# Optimality-Theoretic and Game-Theoretic Approaches to Implicature

*First published Fri Dec 1, 2006; substantive revision Mon Nov 9, 2015*

Linguistic pragmatics studies the context-dependent use and interpretation of
expressions. Perhaps the most important notion in pragmatics is Grice's
(1967) *conversational implicature*. It is based on the
insight that by means of general principles of rational cooperative behavior
we can communicate more with the *use* of a sentence than the
*conventional semantic meaning* associated with it. Grice has argued,
for instance, that the exclusive interpretation of
‘or’—according to which we infer from ‘John or Mary
came’ that John and Mary didn't come both—is not due to the
semantic meaning of ‘or’ but should be accounted for by a theory
of conversational implicature. In this particular example,—a typical
example of a so-called Quantity implicature—the hearer's implication is
taken to follow from the fact that the speaker could have used a contrasting,
and informatively stronger expression, but chose not to. Other implicatures
may follow from what the hearer thinks that the speaker takes to be normal
states of affairs, i.e., stereotypical interpretations. For both types of
implicatures, the hearer's (pragmatic) interpretation of an expression
involves what he takes to be the speaker's reason for using this expression.
But obviously, this speaker's reason must involve assumptions about the
hearer's reasoning as well.

In this entry we will discuss formal accounts of conversational implicatures that explicitly take into account the interactive reasoning of speaker and hearer (e.g., what speaker and hearer believe about each other, the relevant aspects of the context of utterance etc.) and that aim to reductively explain conversational implicature as the result of goal-oriented, economically optimized language use.

- 1. Bidirectional Optimality Theory
- 2. Implicatures and Game Theory
- 3. Conclusion
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Bidirectional Optimality Theory

### 1.1 Bidirectional OT and Quantity implicatures

Optimality Theory (OT) is a linguistic theory which assumes that linguistic
choices are governed by competition between a set of candidates, or
alternatives. In standard OT (Prince & Smolensky, 1993) the optimal
candidate is the one that satisfies best a set of violable constraints. After
its success in phonology, OT has also been used in syntax, semantics and
pragmatics. The original idea of optimality-theoretic semantics was to model
interpretation by taking the candidates to be the alternative interpretations
that the hearer could assign to a given expression, with constraints
describing general preferences over expression-interpretation pairs. Blutner
(1998, 2000) extended this original version by taking also alternative
expressions, or forms, into account that the speaker could have used,
but did not. The reference to alternative expressions/forms is standard in
pragmatics to account for Quantity implicatures. Optimization should thus be
thought of from two directions: that of the hearer, and that of the speaker.
What is optimal, according to Blutner's Bidirectional-OT (Bi-OT), is not just
interpretations with respect to forms, but rather form-interpretation pairs.
In terms of a ‘better than’ relation ‘>’ between
form-interpretation pairs, the pair ⟨*f*,*i*⟩ is
said to be **(strongly) optimal** iff it satisfies the following two
conditions:

- ¬∃
*i*′ : ⟨*f*,*i*′⟩ > ⟨*f*,*i*⟩ - ¬∃
*f′*: ⟨*f′*,*i*⟩ > ⟨*f*,*i*⟩

The first condition requires that *i* is an optimal interpretation of
form *f*. In Bi-OT this condition is thought of as optimization from
the hearer's point of view. Blutner proposed that
⟨*f*,*i*′⟩ >
⟨*f*,*i*⟩ iff *i*′ is a more likely, or
stereotypical, interpretation of *f* than *i* is: *P*(*i*′ | ⟦ *f* ⟧)
> *P*(*i* | ⟦ *f*
⟧) (where ⟦ *f* ⟧ denotes the
semantic meaning of *f*, and
*P*(*B* | *A*) the conditional probability
of *B* given *A*, defined as
*P*(*A*∩*B*)/*P*(*A*)). The second
condition is taken to involve speaker's optimization:
for
⟨*f*,*i*⟩
to be optimal for the speaker, it has to be the case that she cannot
use a more optimal form *f* ′ to express
*i*.
⟨*f* ′,*i*⟩
>
⟨*f*,*i*⟩
iff either (i)
*P*(*i* | ⟦*f* ′⟧)
>
*P*(*i* | ⟦ *f* ⟧),
or (ii)
*P*(*i* | ⟦*f* ′⟧)
=
*P*(*i* | ⟦ *f* ⟧)
and *f* ′ is a less complex form to express
*i* than *f* is.

Bi-OT accounts for classical Quantity implicatures. A convenient (though
controversial) example is the ‘exactly’-interpretation of number
terms. Let us assume, for the sake of example, that number terms semantically
have an ‘at least’-meaning.^{[1]} Still, we want to account for the intuition that
the sentence “Three children came to the party” is normally
interpreted as saying that *exactly* three children came to the party.
One way to do this is to assume that the alternative expressions that the
speaker could use are of the form “(*At least*) *n*
children came to the party”, while the alternative interpretations for
the hearer are of type *i _{n}* meaning that
“

*Exactly*

*n*children came to the party”.

^{[2]}If we assume, again for the sake of example, that all relevant interpretations are considered equally likely and that it is already commonly assumed that some children came, but not more than four, the strongly optimal form-interpretation pairs can be read off the following table:

P(i| ⟦f⟧)i_{1}i_{2}i_{3}i_{4}‘one’ ⇒¼ ¼ ¼ ¼ ‘two’ 0 ⇒ ^{1}⁄_{3}^{1}⁄_{3}^{1}⁄_{3}‘three’ 0 0 ⇒½ ½ ‘four’ 0 0 0 ⇒1

In this table the entry
*P*(*i*_{3} | ⟦‘two’⟧) =
^{1}⁄_{3} because
*P*(*i*_{3} | {*i*_{2},*i*_{3},*i*_{4}})
= ^{1}⁄_{3}. Notice that according to this
reasoning ‘two’ is interpreted as ‘exactly 2’
(as indicated by an arrow) because (i)
*P*(*i*_{2} | ⟦‘two’⟧)
= ^{1}⁄_{3} is higher than
*P*(*i*_{2} | ⟦‘*n*’⟧)
for any alternative expression ‘*n*’, and (ii) all
other interpretations compatible with the semantic meaning of the
numeral expression are *blocked*: there is, for instance,
another expression for which *i*_{4} is a better
interpretation, i.e., an interpretation with a higher conditional
probability.

With numeral terms, the semantic meanings of the alternative expressions give rise to a linear order. This turns out to be crucial for the Bi-OT analysis, if we continue to take the interpretations as specific as we have done so far. Consider the following alternative answers to the question “Who came to the party?”:

- John came to the party.
- John or Bill came to the party.

Suppose that John and Bill are the only relevant persons and that it is
presupposed that somebody came to the party. In that case the table that
illustrates bidirectional optimality reasoning looks as follows (where
*i*_{x} is the interpretation that only *x*
came):

P(i| ⟦f⟧)i_{j}i_{b}i_{jb}‘John’ ⇒½ 0 ½ ‘Bill’ 0 ⇒½ ½ ‘John and Bill’ 0 0 ⇒ 1 ‘John or Bill’ ^{1}⁄_{3}^{1}⁄_{3}^{1}⁄_{3}

This table correctly predicts that (1) is interpreted as saying that
*only* John came. But now consider the disjunction (2). Intuitively,
this answer should be interpreted as saying that either only John, or only
Bill came. It is easy to see, however, that this is predicted only if
‘John came’ and ‘Bill came’ are not taken to be
alternative forms. Bi-OT predicts that in case also ‘John came’
and ‘Bill came’ are taken to be alternatives, the disjunction is
uninterpretable, because the specific interpretations
*i*_{j}, *i*_{b}, and
*i*_{jb} all can be expressed better by other forms.
In general, one can see that in case the semantic meanings of the alternative
expressions are not linearly, but only partially ordered, the derivation of
Quantity implicatures sketched above gives rise to partially wrong
predictions.

As it turns out, this problem for Bi-OT seems larger than it really is.
Intuitively, an answer like (2) suggests that the speaker has incomplete
information (she doesn't know who of John or Bill came). But the
interpretations that we considered so far are world states that do not encode
different amounts of speaker knowledge. So, to take this into account in Bi-OT
(or in any other analysis of Quantity implicatures) we should allow for
alternative interpretations that represent different knowledge states of the
speaker. Aloni (2007) gives a Bi-OT account of ignorance implicatures
(inferences, like the above, that the speaker lacks certain bits of possibly
relevant information), alongside *indifference implicatures* (that the
speaker does not consider bits of information relevant enough to convey).
Moreover, it can be shown that, as far as ignorance implicatures are
concerned, the predictions of Bi-OT line up with the pragmatic interpretation
function called ‘*Grice*’ in various (joint) papers of
Schulz and Van Rooij (e.g. Schulz & Van Rooij, 2006). In these papers it
is claimed that *Grice* implements the Gricean maxim of Quality and the
first maxim of Quantity, and it is shown that in terms of it (together with an
additional assumption of competence) we can account for many conversational
implicatures, including the ones of (1) and (2).

### 1.2 A Bi-OT analysis of Horn's division

Bi-OT can also account for *Horn's division of pragmatic labor*
or *M-implicatures*, as they are alternatively sometimes called
after Levinson (2000)—according to which an (un)marked
expression (morphologically complex and less lexicalized) typically
gets an (un)marked interpretation—which Horn (1984) claimed to
follow from the interaction between both Gricean submaxims of
Quantity, and the maxims of Relation and Manner. To illustrate,
consider the following well-known example:

- John killed the sheriff.
- John caused the sheriff to die.

We typically interpret the unmarked (3) as meaning stereotypical
killing (on purpose), while the marked (4) suggests that John killed
the sheriff in a more indirect way, maybe unintentionally. Blutner
(1998, 2000) shows that this can be accounted for in Bi-OT. Take
*i*_{st} to be the more plausible
interpretation where John killed the sheriff in the stereotypical way,
while *i*_{¬st} is the interpretation
where John caused the sheriff's death in an unusual way. Because (3)
is less complex than (4), and *i*_{st} is the
more stereotypical interpretation compatible with the semantic meaning
of (3), it is predicted that (3) is interpreted as
*i*_{st}. Thus, in terms of his notion of
*strong* optimality, i.e., optimality for both speaker and
hearer, Blutner can account for the intuition that sentences typically
get the most plausible, or stereotypical, interpretation. In terms of
this notion of optimality, however, Blutner is not able yet to explain
how the more complex form (4) can have an interpretation at all, in
particular, why it will be interpreted as non-stereotypical killing.
The reason is that on the assumption that (4) has the same semantic
meaning as (3), the stereotypical interpretation would be
hearer-optimal not only for (3), but also for (4).

To account for the intuition that (4) is interpreted in a
non-stereotypical way, Blutner (2000) introduces a weaker notion of
optimality that also takes into account a notion of *blocking*:
one form's pragmatically assigned meaning can take away, so to speak,
that meaning from another, less favorable form. In the present case,
the stereotypical interpretation is intuitively blocked for the
cumbersome form (4) by the cheaper alternative expression
(3). Formally, a form-interpretation pair
⟨*f*,*i*⟩ is **weakly
optimal**^{[3]}
iff there is neither a strongly optimal
⟨*f*,*i*′⟩ such that
⟨*f*,*i*′⟩ >
⟨*f*,*i*⟩ nor a strongly optimal
⟨*f* ′,*i*⟩ such that
⟨*f* ′,*i*⟩ >
⟨*f*,*i*⟩. All form-interpretation pairs that
are strongly optimal are also weakly optimal. However, a pair that is
not strongly optimal like
⟨(4),*i*_{¬st}⟩ can still be
weakly optimal: since neither
⟨(4),*i*_{st}⟩ nor
⟨(3),*i*_{¬st}⟩ is strongly
optimal, there is no objection for
⟨(4),*i*_{¬st}⟩ to be a (weakly)
optimal pair. As a result, the marked (4) will get the
on-stereotypical interpretation. In general, application of the above
definition of weak optimality can be difficult, but Jäger (2002)
gives a concise algorithm for computing weakly optimal
form-interpretation pairs.

## 2. Implicatures and Game Theory

### 2.1 Signaling games

David Lewis (1969) introduced signaling games to explain how messages can be used to communicate something, although these messages do not have a pre-existing meaning. In pragmatics we want to do something similar: explain what is actually communicated by an expression whose actual interpretation is underspecified by its conventional semantic meaning. It is therefore a natural idea to base pragmatics on Lewisian signaling games.

A signaling game is a game of asymmetric information between a sender
*s* and a receiver *r*. The sender observes the state
*t* that *s* and *r* are in, while the receiver
has to perform an action. Sender *s* can try to influence the
action taken by *r* by sending a message. *T* is the
set of states, *F* the set of forms, or messages. We assume
that the messages already have a semantic meaning, given by the
semantic interpretation function ⟦·⟧ which
assigns to each form a subset of *T*. The sender will send a
message/form in each state, a *sender strategy* *S* is
thus a function from *T* to *F*. The receiver will
perform an action after hearing a message with a particular semantic
meaning, but for present purposes we can think of actions simply as
interpretations. A *receiver strategy* *R* is then a
function that maps a message to an interpretation, i.e., a subset of
*T*. A *utility function* for speaker and hearer
represents what interlocutors care about, and so the utility function
models what speaker and hearer consider to be relevant information
(implementing Grice's Maxim of Relevance). For simplicity, we assume
that the utility functions of *s* and *r*
(*U _{s}* and

*U*) are the same (implementing Grice's cooperative principle), and that they depend on (i) the actual state

_{r}*t*, (ii) the receiver's interpretation,

*i*, of the message

*f*sent by

*s*in

*t*according to their respective strategies

*R*and

*S*, i.e.,

*i*=

*R*(

*S*(

*t*)), and (iii) (in section 2.3) the form

*f*=

*S*(

*t*) used by the sender. We assume that Nature picks the state according to some (commonly known) probability distribution

*P*over

*T*. With respect to this probability function, we can determine the expected, or average, utility of each sender-receiver strategy combination ⟨

*S*,

*R*⟩ for player

*e*∈ {

*s*,

*r*} as follows:

EU_{e}(S,R) = ∑_{t∈T}P(t) ×U_{e}(t,S(t),R(S(t))).

A signaling game is then a (simplified, abstract) model of a single utterance and its interpretation, which includes some of the arguably most relevant features of a context for pragmatic reasoning: an asymmetry of information (speaker knows the world state, hearer does not), a notion of utterance alternatives (in the set of messages/forms) with associated semantic meaning, and a flexible representation of what counts of relevant information (via utility functions). If this is not enough, e.g., if we want the listener to have partial information not shared by the speaker as well (such as when the speaker is uncertain about what is really relevant for the listener), that can easily be accommodated into a more complex game model, but we refrain from going more complex here. The strategies of sender and receiver encode particular ways of using and interpreting language. The notion of expected utility evaluates how good ways of using and interpreting language are (in the given context). Game-theoretic explanations of pragmatic phenomena aim to single out those sender-receiver strategy pairs that correspond to empirically attested behavior as optimal and/or rational solution of the game problem.

The standard solution concept of game theory is *Nash
equilibrium*. A Nash equilibrium of a signaling game is a pair of
strategies ⟨*S ^{*}*,

*R*⟩ which has the property that neither the sender nor the receiver could increase his or her expected utility by unilateral deviation. Thus,

^{*}*S*is a best response to

^{*}*R*and

^{*}*R*is a best response to

^{*}*S*. There are plenty of refinements of Nash equilibrium in the game-theoretic literature. Moreover, there are alternatives to equilibrium analyses, the two most prominent of which are: (i) explicit formalizations of agents' reasoning processes, such as is done in epistemic game theory (e.g., Perea 2012), and (ii) variants of evolutionary game theory (e.g., Sandholm 2010) that study the dynamic changes in agents' behavioral disposition under gradual optimization procedures, such as by imitation or learning from parents. These issues are relevant for applications to linguistic pragmatics as well, as we will demonstrate presently with the example of M-implicatures/Horn's division of pragmatic labor.

^{*}### 2.2 A game-theoretic explanation of Horn's division

We would like to account for the meaning difference between (3) and
(4), as before in the context of Bi-OT. Suppose we have 2 states,
*t*_{st} and *t*_{¬st}, and
2 messages, *f*_{u} and
*f*_{m}. As before, the semantic meaning of
both messages is
{*t*_{st},*t*_{¬st}}, but
*t*_{st} is more stereotypical, or probable,
than *t*_{¬st}:
*P*(*t*_{st}) >
*P*(*t*_{¬st}). We decompose the sender's
utility function into a benefit and a cost function,
*U _{s}*(

*t*,

*f*,

*i*) =

*B*

_{s}(

*t*,

*i*) −

*C*(

*f*), where

*i*is an interpretation. We adopt the following benefit function:

*B*

_{s}(

*t*,

*i*) = 1 if

*i*=

*t*, and

*B*

_{s}(

*t*,

*i*) = 0 otherwise. The cost of the unmarked message

*f*

_{u}is lower than the cost of the marked message

*f*

_{m}. We can assume without loss of generality that

*C*(

*f*

_{u}) = 0 <

*C*(

*f*

_{m}). We also assume that it is always better to have successful communication with a costly message than unsuccessful communication with a cheap message, which means that

*C*(

*f*

_{m}), though greater than

*C*(

*f*

_{u}), must remain reasonably small. The sender and receiver strategies are as before. The combination of sender and receiver strategies that gives rise to the bijective mapping {⟨

*t*

_{st},

*f*

_{u}⟩, ⟨

*t*

_{¬st},

*f*

_{m}⟩} is a Nash equilibrium of this game. And this equilibrium encodes Horn's division of pragmatic labor: the unmarked (and lighter) message

*f*

_{u}expresses the stereotypical interpretation

*t*

_{st}, while the non-stereotypical state

*t*

_{¬st}is expressed by the marked and costlier message

*f*

_{m}. Unfortunately, also the mapping {⟨

*t*

_{st},

*f*

_{m}⟩, ⟨

*t*

_{¬st},

*f*

_{u}⟩} —where the lighter message denotes the non-stereotypical situation—is a Nash equilibrium of the game, which means that on the present implementation the standard solution concept of game theory cannot yet single out the desired outcome.

This is were considerations of equilibrium refinements and/or alternative
solution concepts come in. For example, Parikh (1991, 2001) argues that we
should use an equilibrium refinement. He observes that, of the two equilibria
mentioned above, the first one Pareto-dominates the second, and that for this
reason the former should be preferred. Van Rooij (2004) suggests that because
Horn's division of pragmatic labor involves not only language use but also
language organization, one should look at signaling games from an evolutionary
point of view, and make use of those variants of evolutionary game theory that
explain the emergence of Pareto-optimal solutions. As a third alternative,
following some ideas of De Jaegher (2008), van Rooij (2008) proposes that one
could also make use of forward induction (a particular game-theoretic way of
reasoning about surprising moves of the opponent) to single out the desired
equilibrium. As an example of an approach that draws on detailed modelling of
the epistemic states of interlocutors, Franke (2014a) suggests that we should
distinguish cases of M-implicature that involve rather clear *ad hoc*
reasoning, such as (5) and (6), from cases with a possibly more
grammaticalized contrast, such as between (3) and (4).

- Mrs T sang ‘Home Sweet Home’.
- Mrs T produces a series of sounds roughly corresponding to the score of ‘Home Sweet Home’.

Franke suggests that the game model for reasoning about (5) and (6) should contain an element of asymmetry of alternatives: whereas it is reasonable (for a speaker to expect that) a listener would consider (5) to be an alternative utterance when hearing (6), it is quite implausible that (a speaker believes that) a listener will consider (6) a potential alternative utterance when hearing (5). This asymmetry of alternatives translates into different beliefs that the listener will have about the context after different messages. The speaker can anticipate this, and a listener who has actually observed (6) can reason about his own counterfactual context representation that he would have had if the speaker had said (5) instead. Franke shows that, when paired with this asymmetry in context representation, a simple model of iterated best response reasoning, to which we turn next, gives the desired result as well.

### 2.3 Quantity implicatures and iterated reasoning

Unlike the case of M-implicatures, many Quantity implicatures hinge on the fact that alternative expressions differ with respect to logical strength: the inference from ‘three’ to the pragmatically strengthed ‘exactly three’-reading, that we sketched in Section 1.1, draws on the fact that the alternative expression ‘four’ is semantically stronger, i.e., ‘four’ semantically entails ‘three’, but not the other way around, under the assumed ‘at least’-semantics. In order to bring considerations of semantic strength to bear on game-theoretic pragmatics, we must assign conventional meaning some role in either the game model or the solution concept. In the following, we look at two similar, but distinct possibilities of treating semantic meaning in approaches that spell out pragmatic reasoning as chains of (higher-order) reasoning about interlocutors' rationality.

A straightforward and efficient way of bringing semantic meaning into
game-theoretic pragmatics is to simply restrict the set of viable
strategies of sender and receiver in a signaling game to those
strategies that conform to conventional meaning: a sender can only
select forms that are true of the actual state, and the receiver can
only select interpretations which are in the denotation of an observed
message. This may seem crude and excludes cases of non-literal
language use, lying, cheating and error from the start, but it may
serve to rationalize common patterns of pragmatic reasoning among
cooperative, information-seeking interlocutors. Based on such a
restriction to truth-obedient strategies, it has been shown
independently by Pavan (2013) and Rothschild (2013) that there is an
established non-equilibrium solution concept that nicely rationalizes
Quantity implicatures, namely *iterated admissibility*, also
known as *iterated elimination of weakly dominated
strategies*. Without going into detail, the general idea of this
solution concept is to start with the whole set of viable strategies
(all conforming to semantic meaning) and then to iteratively eliminate
all strategies *X* for which there is no *cautious
belief* about which of the opponent's remaining strategies the
opponent will likely play that would make *X* a rational thing
to do. (A cautious belief is one that does not exclude any opponent
strategy that has not been eliminated so far.) The set of strategies
that survive repeated iterations of elimination are then compatible
with (a particular kind of) common belief in rationality. In sum,
iterated admissibility is an eliminative approach: starting from the
set of all (truth-abiding) strategies, some strategies are weeded out
at every step until we remain with a stable set of strategies from
which nothing can be eliminated anymore.

An alternative to restricting attention to only truthful strategies is
to use semantic meaning to constrain the starting point of pragmatic
reasoning. Approaches that do so are the *optimal assertions
approach* (Benz 2006, Benz & van Rooij 2007), *iterated
best response models* (e.g., Franke 2009, 2011, Jäger 2014),
and related *probabilistic models* (e.g., Frank & Goodman
2012, Goodman & Stuhlmüller 2013, Franke & Jäger
2014). The general idea that unifies these approaches can be traced
directly to Grice, in particular the notion that speaker's should
maximize the amount of relevant information contained in their
utterances. Since information contained in an utterance is standardly
taken to be semantic information (as opposed to pragmatically
restricted or modulated meaning), a simple way of implementing Gricean
speakers is to assume that they choose utterances by considering how a
literal interpreter would react to each alternative. Pragmatic
listeners then react optimally based on the belief that the speaker is
Gricean in the above sense. In other words, these approaches define a
reasoning scheme of higher-order rational reasoning: starting with a
(non-rational, dummy) literal interpreter, a Gricean speaker acts
(approximately) rationally based on literal interpretation, while a
Gricean listener interpret (approximately) rationally based on the
behavior of a Gricean speaker. Some contributions allow for
higher-order iterations of best responses, others do not; some
contributions also look at reasoning sequences that start with literal
senders; some contributions assume that agents are strictly rational,
others allow for probabilistic approximations to classical rational
choice (see Franke & Jäger 2014 for overview and comparison).

A crucial difference between iterated best response approaches and the previously mentioned approach based on iterated admissibility is that the former does not shrink a set of strategies but allows for a different set of best responses at each step. This also makes it so that (some) iterated best response approaches can deal with pragmatic reasoning in cases where interlocutors' preferences are not aligned, i.e., where the Gricean assumption of cooperativity does not hold, or where there are additional incentives to deviate from semantic meaning (for more about game models for reasoning in non-cooperative contexts, see, e.g., Franke, de Jager & van Rooij 2012, de Jaegher & van Rooij 2014). Another difference between iterated best response models and iterated admissibility is that the latter do not by itself account for Horn's division of pragmatic labor (see Franke 2014b and Pavan 2014 for discussion).

To illustrate how iterated best response reasoning works in a simple
(cooperative) case, let us look briefly at numerical expressions again. Take a
signaling game with 4 states, or worlds, *W* = {*w _{1}*,

*w*,

_{2}*w*,

_{3}*w*} where the indices give the exact/maximal number of children that came to our party, and four messages

_{4}*F*= {‘one’,‘two’,‘three’, ‘four’}, as shorthand for ‘

*n*children came to our party’. On a neo-Gricean ‘at least’-interpretation of numerals, the meanings of the numeral expressions form an implication chain: ⟦‘four’⟧ ⊂ ⟦‘three’⟧ ⊂ ⟦‘two’⟧ ⊂ ⟦‘one’⟧, because, for instance, ⟦‘three’⟧ = {

*w*,

_{3}*w*}. A literal interpreter, who is otherwise oblivious to contextual factors, would respond to every message by choosing any true interpretation with equal probability. So, for instance, if the literal interpreter hears ‘three’, he would choose

_{4}*w*or

_{3}*w*, each with probability ½. But that means that an optimal choice of expression for a speaker who wants to communicate that the actual world is

_{4}*w*would be ‘three’, because this maximizes the chance that the literal interpreter selects

_{3}*w*. Concretely, if the speaker chooses ‘one’, the chance that the literal listener chooses

_{3}*w*is ¼; for ‘two’ it's ⅓; for ‘three’ it's ½, and for ‘four’ it's zero, because

_{3}*w*is not an element of ⟦‘three’⟧. So, a rational Gricean speaker selects ⟦‘three’⟧ in

_{3}*w*and nowhere else, as is easy to see by a parallel argument for all other states. But that means that a Gricean interpreter who hears ‘three’ will infer that the actual world must be

_{3}*w*.

_{3}A particularly promising recent expansion of this pragmatic reasoning scheme is to include probabilistic choice functions to model agents' approximately rational choices, so as to allow for a much more direct link with experimental data (c.f., Franke & Jäger (to appear) for overview). Such probabilistic pragmatic models have been applied to a number of phenomena of interest, including reasoning about referential expressions in context (Frank & Goodman 2012), ignorance implicatures (Goodman & Stuhlmüller 2013), non-literal interpretation of number terms (Kao et al. 2014), or Quantity implicatures in complex sentences (Potts et al. to appear).

## 3. Conclusion

Bidirectional Optimality Theory and Game Theory are quite natural, and similar, frameworks to formalize Gricean ideas about interactive, goal-oriented pragmatic reasoning in context. Recent developments turn towards epistemic or evolutionary game theory or to probabilistic models for empirical data.

## Bibliography

- Aloni, M. (2007), ‘Expressing Ignorance or
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