Archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Notice: These archives contain periodically fixed editions of the Encyclopedia which may be used for purposes of citation. The content of these editions is neither updated nor modified in any way once the archive is made. The external links (to places on the World Wide Web) and author email addresses contained in the entries of these editions may no longer be functional!

Search The Archives
How to Cite This Encyclopedia

The Fixed Editions:

Fall 2017 Edition (September 21, 2017)
Summer 2017 Edition (June 21, 2017)
Spring 2017 Edition (March 21, 2017)
Winter 2016 Edition (December 21, 2016)
Fall 2016 Edition (September 21, 2016)
Summer 2016 Edition (June 21, 2016)
Spring 2016 Edition (March 21, 2016)
Winter 2015 Edition (December 21, 2015)
Fall 2015 Edition (September 21, 2015)
Summer 2015 Edition (June 21, 2015)
Spring 2015 Edition (March 21, 2015)
Winter 2014 Edition (December 21, 2014)
Fall 2014 Edition (September 21, 2014)
Summer 2014 Edition (June 21, 2014)
Spring 2014 Edition (March 21, 2014)
Winter 2013 Edition (December 21, 2013)
Fall 2013 Edition (September 21, 2013)
Summer 2013 Edition (June 21, 2013)
Spring 2013 Edition (March 21, 2013)
Winter 2012 Edition (December 21, 2012)
Fall 2012 Edition (September 21, 2012)
Summer 2012 Edition (June 21, 2012)
Spring 2012 Edition (March 21, 2012)
Winter 2011 Edition (December 21, 2011)
Fall 2011 Edition (September 21, 2011)
Summer 2011 Edition (June 21, 2011)
Spring 2011 Edition (March 21, 2011)
Winter 2010 Edition (December 21, 2010)
Fall 2010 Edition (September 21, 2010)
Summer 2010 Edition (June 21, 2010)
Spring 2010 Edition (March 21, 2010)
Winter 2009 Edition (December 21, 2009)
Fall 2009 Edition (September 21, 2009)
Summer 2009 Edition (June 21, 2009)
Spring 2009 Edition (March 21, 2009)
Winter 2008 Edition (December 21, 2008)
Fall 2008 Edition (September 21, 2008)
Summer 2008 Edition (June 21, 2008)
Spring 2008 Edition (March 21, 2008)
Winter 2007 Edition (December 21, 2007)
Fall 2007 Edition (September 21, 2007)
Summer 2007 Edition (June 21, 2007)
Spring 2007 Edition (March 21, 2007)
Winter 2006 Edition (December 21, 2006)
Fall 2006 Edition (September 21, 2006)
Summer 2006 Edition (June 21, 2006)
Spring 2006 Edition (March 21, 2006)
Winter 2005 Edition (December 21, 2005)
Fall 2005 Edition (September 21, 2005)
Summer 2005 Edition (June 21, 2005)
Spring 2005 Edition (March 21, 2005)
Winter 2004 Edition (December 21, 2004)
Fall 2004 Edition (September 21, 2004)
Summer 2004 Edition (June 21, 2004)
Spring 2004 Edition (March 21, 2004)
Winter 2003 Edition (December 21, 2003)
Fall 2003 Edition (September 21, 2003)
Summer 2003 Edition (June 21, 2003)
Spring 2003 Edition (March 21, 2003)
Winter 2002 Edition (December 21, 2002)
Fall 2002 Edition (September 21, 2002)
Summer 2002 Edition (June 21, 2002)
Spring 2002 Edition (March 21, 2002)
Winter 2001 Edition (December 21, 2001)
Fall 2001 Edition (September 21, 2001)
Summer 2001 Edition (June 21, 2001)
Spring 2001 Edition (March 21, 2000)
Winter 2000 Edition (December 21, 2000)
Fall 2000 Edition (September 21, 2000)
Summer 2000 Edition (June 21, 2000)
Spring 2000 Edition (March 21, 2000)
Winter 1999 Edition (December 21, 1999)
Fall 1999 Edition (September 21, 1999)
Summer 1999 Edition (June 21, 1999)
Spring 1999 Edition (March 21, 1999)
Winter 1998 Edition (December 21, 1998)
Fall 1998 Edition (September 21, 1998)
Summer 1998 Edition (June 21, 1998)
Spring 1998 Edition (March 21, 1998)
Winter 1997 Edition (December 21, 1997)
Fall 1997 Edition (September 21, 1997)
[an error occurred while processing this directive]