Human beings are conscious not only of the world around them but also of themselves: their activities, their bodies, and their mental lives. They are, that is, self-conscious (or, equivalently, self-aware). Self-consciousness can be understood as an awareness of oneself. But a self-conscious subject is not just aware of something that merely happens to be themselves, as one is if one sees an old photograph without realising that it is of oneself. Rather a self-conscious subject is aware of themselves as themselves; it is manifest to them that they themselves are the object of awareness. Self-consciousness is a form of consciousness that is paradigmatically expressed in English by the words “I”, “me”, and “my”, terms that each of us uses to refer to ourselves as such.
A central topic throughout the history of philosophy—and increasingly so since the seventeenth century—the phenomena surrounding self-consciousness prompt a variety of fundamental philosophical and scientific questions, including its relation to consciousness; its semantic and epistemic features; its realisation in both conceptual and non-conceptual representation; and its connection to our conception of an objective world populated with others like ourselves.
- 1. Self-Consciousness in the History of Philosophy
- 2. Self-Consciousness in Thought
- 3. Self-Consciousness in Experience
- 4. The Conditions of Self-Consciousness
- 5. Self-Consciousness in Infants and Non-Human Animals
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1. Self-Consciousness in the History of Philosophy
A familiar feature of ancient Greek philosophy and culture is the Delphic maxim “Know Thyself”. But what is it that one knows if one knows oneself? In Sophocles’ Oedipus, Oedipus knows a number of things about himself, for example that he was prophesied to kill Laius. But although he knew this about himself, it is only later in the play that he comes to know that it is he himself of whom it is true. That is, he moves from thinking that the son of Laius and Jocasta was prophesied to kill Laius, to thinking that he himself was so prophesied. It is only this latter knowledge that we would call an expression of self-consciousness and that, we may presume, is the object of the Delphic maxim. During the course of the drama Oedipus comes to know himself, with tragic consequences. But just what this self-consciousness amounts to, and how it might be connected to other aspects of the mind, most notably consciousness itself, is less clear. It has, perhaps unsurprisingly, been the topic of considerable discussion since the Greeks. During the early modern period self-consciousness became central to a number of philosophical issues and, with Kant and the post-Kantians, came to be seen as one of the most important topics in epistemology and the philosophy of mind.
1.1 Ancient and Medieval Discussions of Self-Consciousness
Although it is occasionally suggested that a concern with self-consciousness is a peculiarly modern phenomenon, originating with Descartes (Brinkmann 2005), it is in fact the topic of lively ancient and medieval debates, many of which prefigure early modern and contemporary concerns (Sorabji 2006). Aristotle, for example, claims that a person must, while perceiving any thing, also perceive their own existence (De Sensu 7.448a), a claim suggestive of the view that consciousness entails self-consciousness. Furthermore, according to Aristotle, since the intellect takes on the form of that which is thought (Kahn 1992), it “is thinkable just as the thought-objects are” (De Anima 3.4.430), an assertion that was interpreted by Aristotle’s medieval commentators as the view that self-awareness depends on an awareness of extra-mental things (Cory 2014: ch. 1; Owens 1988).
By contrast, the Platonic tradition, principally through the influence of Augustine, writing in the fourth and fifth centuries, is associated with the view that the mind “gains the knowledge of [itself] through itself” (On the Trinity 9.3; Matthews 1992; Cary 2000) by being present to itself. Thus, on this view, self-awareness requires no awareness of outer things. In a similar vein, in the eleventh century, Avicenna argues, by way of his Flying Man thought experiment, that a newly created person floating in a void, with all senses disabled, would nevertheless be self-aware. Thus the self that one cognises cannot be a bodily thing of which one is aware through the senses (Kaukua & Kukkonen 2007; Black 2008; Kaukua 2015). On such views, and in contrast to the Aristotelian picture, basic self-awareness is neither sensory in nature nor dependent on the awareness of other things. This latter claim was accepted by Aquinas, writing in the thirteenth century, who can be seen as synthesising aspects of the Platonic and Aristotelian traditions (Cory 2014). For not only does Aquinas claim that there is a form of self-awareness—awareness that one exists—for which, “the mere presence of the mind suffices”, there is another form—awareness of one’s essence—that, as Aristotle had claimed, is dependent on cognising other things and so for which “the mere presence of the mind does not suffice” (Summa 1, 87, 1; Kenny 1993: ch. 10).
This ancient and medieval debate concerning whether the mere presence of the mind is sufficient for self-awareness is related to another concerning whether self-awareness is itself sensory in character or, put another way, whether the self is or is not perceptible. Aquinas has sometimes been interpreted as offering a positive answer to this question, sometimes a negative answer (see Pasnau 2002: ch. 11, and Cory 2014: ch. 4, for differing views). These issues were also discussed in various Indian (Hindu, Jain, and Buddhist) debates (Albahari 2006; Siderits, Thompson, & Zahavi 2013; Ganeri 2012a,b), with a variety of perspectives represented. For example, in the writing of the eleventh century Jain writer Prabhācandra, there appears an argument very much like Avicenna’s Flying Man argument for the possibility of self-awareness without awareness of the body (Ganeri 2012a: ch. 2), whereas various thinkers of the Advaita Vendānta school argue that there is no self-awareness without embodiment (Ram-Prasad 2013). There were, therefore, wide-ranging debates in the ancient and medieval period not only about the nature of self-consciousness, but also about its relation to other aspects of the mind, most notably sensory perception and awareness of the body.
1.2 Early Modern Discussions of Self-Consciousness
Central to the early modern discussion of self-consciousness are Descartes’ assertions, in the second of his Meditations, that “I am, I exist, is necessarily true whenever it is put forward by me or conceived in my mind” (Descartes 1641: 80), and, in both his Discourse and Principles, that “I think, therefore I am”, or “cogito ergo sum” (Descartes 1637: 36, and Descartes 1644: 162; see the discussion of Reflection in the entry on seventeenth century theories of consciousness). The cogito, which was anticipated by Augustine (On the Trinity 10.10; Pasnau 2002: ch. 11), embodies two elements of self-awareness—awareness that one is thinking and awareness that one exists—that play a foundational role in Descartes’ epistemological project. As such, it is crucial for Descartes that the cogito is something of which we can be absolutely certain. But whilst most commentators are happy to agree that both “I am thinking” and “I exist” are indubitable, there is a great deal of debate over the grounds for such certainty and over the form of the cogito itself (Hintikka 1962; Wilson 1978: ch. 2, §2; B. Williams 1978: ch. 3; Markie 1992). Of particular concern is the question whether these two propositions are known by inference or non-inferentially, e.g., by intuition, an issue that echoes the medieval debates concerning whether one can be said to perceive oneself.
One philosopher who accepts the former, intuition-based, account is Locke, who claims that
we have an intuitive Knowledge of our own Existence, and an internal infallible Perception that we are. In every Act of Sensation, Reasoning, or Thinking, we are conscious to ourselves of our own Being. (1700: IV.ix.3)
A similar claim can be found in Berkeley’s Three Dialogues (1713: 231–234; Stoneham 2002: §6.4). Further, Locke makes self-consciousness partly definitive of the very concept of a person, a person being “a thinking intelligent Being, that has reason and reflection, and can consider it self as it self, the same thinking thing in different times and places” (1700: II. xxvii.9; Ayers 1991: vol.II, ch.23; Thiel 2011: ch. 4), and self-consciousness also plays an important role in his theory of personal identity (see §4.1).
If Descartes, Locke, and Berkeley can be interpreted as accepting the view that there is an inner perception of the self, on this question Hume stands in stark contrast notoriously writing that whilst
there are some philosophers, who imagine we are every moment intimately conscious of what we call our self […] For my part when I enter most intimately into what I call myself, I always stumble on some particular perception or other, of heat or cold, light or shade, love or hatred, pain or pleasure. I never can catch myself at any time without a perception, and never can observe anything but the perception. (Hume 1739–40: bk.1, ch.4, §6; Pitson 2002: ch. 1; Thiel 2011: ch. 12; cf. Lichtenberg’s famous remark that one should not say “I think” but rather, “it thinks”, discussed in Zöller 1992 and Burge 1998)
Hume’s view that there is no impression, or perception, of oneself is crucial to his case for the understanding of our idea of ourselves as nothing more than a “heap or collection of different perceptions” (1739–40: bk.1, ch.4, §6; Penelhum 2000; G. Strawson 2011a), since lacking an impression of the owner of these perceptions we must, in accordance with his empiricist account of concept acquisition, lack an idea of such. It is clear, then, that in the early modern period issues of self-consciousness play an important role in a variety of philosophical questions regarding persons and their minds.
1.3 Kantian and Post-Kantian Discussions of Self-Consciousness
Hume’s denial that there is an inner perception of the self as the owner of experience is one that is echoed in Kant’s discussion in both the Transcendental Deduction and the Paralogisms, where he writes that there is no intuition of the self “through which it is given as object” (Kant 1781/1787: B408; Brook 1994; Ameriks 2000). Kant’s account of self-consciousness and its significance is complex, a central element of the Transcendental Deduction being the claim that a form of self-awareness—transcendental apperception—is required to account for the unity of conscious experience over time. In Kant’s words, “the ‘I think’ must be able to accompany all my representations” (Kant 1781/1787: B132; Keller 1998; Kitcher 2011; see the entry on Kant’s view of the mind and consciousness of self). Thus, while Kant denies that there is an inner awareness of the self as an object that owns its experiences, we must nevertheless be aware of those experiences as things that are, both individually and collectively, our own. The representation of the self in this “I think” is then, according to Kant, purely formal, exhausted by its function in unifying experience.
The Kantian account of self-awareness and its relation to the capacity for objective thought set the agenda for a great deal of post-Kantian philosophy. On the nature of self-awareness, for example, in an unpublished manuscript Schopenhauer concurs with Kant, asserting that, “that the subject should become an object for itself is the most monstrous contradiction ever thought of” (quoted in Janaway 1989: 120). Further, a philosophical tradition stemming from Kant’s work has tried to identify the necessary conditions of the possibility of self-consciousness, with P.F. Strawson (1959, 1966), Evans (1980, 1982), and Cassam (1997), for example, exploring the relation between the capacity for self-conscious thought and the possession of a conception of oneself as an embodied agent located within an objective world (see §4.3). Another, related tradition has argued that an awareness of subjects other than oneself is a necessary condition of self-consciousness (see §4.4). Historical variations on such a view can be found in Fichte (1794–1795; Wood 2006), Hegel (1807; Pippin 2010), and, from a somewhat different perspective, Mead (1934; Aboulafia 1986).
Fichte offers the most influential account of self-consciousness in the post-Kantian tradition. On the reading of the “Heidelberg School”, Fichte claims that previous accounts of self-consciousness given by Descartes, Locke, and even Kant are “reflective”, regarding the self as taking itself not as subject but as object (Henrich 1967; Tugendhat 1979: ch. 3; Frank 2004; Zahavi 2007). But this reflective form of self-awareness, Fichte argues, presupposes a more primitive form since it is necessary for the reflecting self to be aware that the reflected self is in fact itself. Consequently, according to Fichte, we must possess an immediate acquaintance with ourselves, “the self exists and posits its own existence by virtue of merely existing” (Fichte 1794–1795: 97). Once more, this debate echoes ancient discussions concerning the nature and role of self-consciousness.
1.4 Early Twentieth Century Discussions of Self-Consciousness
In the early twentieth century, Frege suggests a form of self-acquaintance, claiming that “everyone is presented to himself in a special and primitive way” (Frege 1918–1919: 333). In a similar vein, in early work Russell (1910) favours the idea that we are acquainted with ourselves, but by the 1920s (1921: 141) he seems to endorse a view more in line with Hume’s sceptical account. The same can be said of the Wittgenstein of the Tractatus, who famously likens the self to the eye which sees but does not see itself (Wittgenstein 1921: 5.6–5.641; O’Brien 1996; Sullivan 1996). Husserl’s philosophical development seems to have taken the opposite trajectory to that of Russell, with his (1900/1901, Investigation V, §8) denial of the inner awareness of a “pure ego” being subsequently revised into something resembling Kantian transcendental apperception (Husserl 1913: §57; Carr 1999: ch. 3; Zahavi 2005: ch. 2). Continuing with the phenomenological tradition, Sartre (1937; Priest 2000) takes Husserl’s later view to task, arguing against the view that we are continually aware of a transcendent ego, yet in favour of the picture of consciousness as involving a “pre-reflective” awareness of itself reminiscent of the Heidelberg School view (Wider 1997: ch. 3; Miguens, Preyer, & Morando 2016). Questions about the nature of self-consciousness and, in particular, over whether there is an immediate, or intuitive, consciousness of the self, were as lively as ever well into the twentieth century.
2. Self-Consciousness in Thought
One natural way to think of self-consciousness is in terms of a subject’s capacity to entertain conscious thought about herself. Self-conscious thoughts are thoughts about oneself. But it is commonly pointed out that thinking about what merely happens to be oneself is insufficient for self-consciousness, rather one must think of oneself as oneself. If one is capable of self-conscious thought, that is, one must be able to think in such a way that it is manifest to one that it is oneself about whom one is thinking.
It is widely recognised that the paradigmatic linguistic expression of self-consciousness in English is the first-person pronoun “I”; a term with which one might be said to refer to oneself as oneself (Sainsbury 2011). Plausibly, every utterance of a sentence containing “I” is expressive of a self-conscious “I-thought”, that is a thought containing the first-person concept. Thus, discussions of self-consciousness are often closely associated with accounts of the semantics of the indexical term “I” and the nature of its counterpart first-person concept (e.g., Anscombe 1975; Perry 1979; Nozick 1981: ch. 1, §2; Evans 1982: ch. 7; Mellor 1989; O’Brien 1995a; Castañeda 1999; de Gaynesford 2006; Recanati 2007; Rödl 2007: ch. 1; Bermúdez 2016).
As Castañeda (1966; cf. Anscombe 1975) points out, there is an ambiguity in certain ascriptions of belief containing “he” or “she”. I may say “Jane believes that she is F” without implying that Jane realises that it is herself that she believes to be F. That is, there is a reading of “Jane believes that she is F” that does not imply self-consciousness on Jane’s part. But, in some cases, we do intend to attribute self-consciousness with that same form of words. To resolve this ambiguity, Castañeda introduces “she*” for self-conscious attributions. I will use the more natural indirect reflexive “she herself”. Thus, “Jane believes that she is F” does not imply that Jane self-consciously believes that she is F, whilst “Jane believes that she herself is F” does. Before the dreadful revelation, Oedipus believed that he was prophesied to kill his father, but did not believe that he himself was so prophesied.
2.1 The Essential Indexical
First-personal language and thought is commonly taken to be sui generis, irreducible to language or thought not containing the first-person pronoun or corresponding concept (Castañeda 1966, 1967; Perry 1977, 1979, 2001). Arguments for this view have typically appealed to the essential role seemingly played by the first-person in explanations of action. This point is supported by a number of well-known examples. Consider Perry’s case of the messy shopper,
I once followed a trail of sugar on a supermarket floor, pushing my cart down the aisle on one side of a tall counter and back the aisle on the other, seeking the shopper with the torn sack to tell him he was making a mess. With each trip around the counter, the trail became thicker. But I seemed unable to catch up. Finally it dawned on me. I was the shopper I was trying to catch. (Perry 1979: 33)
As Perry points out, he knew all along that the shopper with the torn sack was making a mess. He may also have believed that the oldest philosopher in the shop (in fact himself) was making a mess, yet failed to check his own cart since he falsely believed that Quine was at the Deli Counter. Indeed, it seems that for any non-indexical term a that denotes Perry, it is possible for Perry to fail to believe anything naturally expressed by the sentence “I am a”. If so, it is possible for Perry to rationally believe that a is making a mess without believing anything that he would express as “I am making a mess”. It was only when Perry came to believe that he himself was making a mess that he stopped the chase. Indeed, it would seem that only the first-personal content can provide an adequate explanation of Perry’s behaviour when he stops. If Perry had come to believe that John Perry is making a mess then, unless he also believed that he himself was John Perry, he would not have stopped. The first-personal content is “self-locating”, thereby enabling action, whereas the non-first-personal content is not. To use Kaplan’s (1977) example, if I believe that my pants are on fire, pure self-interest will surely motivate me do something about it. If, however, I believe that Smith’s pants are on fire, pure self-interest will only so motivate me if I also believe that I am Smith.
On this widely accepted picture, then, first-personal thought and language is irreducible to non-first-personal thought and language, and is essential to the explanation of action (Kaplan 1977: 533; D. Lewis 1979; McGinn 1983: ch. 6; Recanati 2007: ch. 34; Musholt 2015: ch. 1; Prosser 2015; García-Carpintero & Torre 2016). Importantly, on Perry’s view, what is irreducible is the first-personal way of thinking about ourselves, not the facts or states of affairs that make such thoughts true. So, whilst my belief “I am F” is not equivalent to any non-first-personal belief, it is true if and only if Smith is F, this being the same fact that makes true the non-first-personal “Smith is F”. Thus, whilst first-person representations are special, a special class of first-person facts are nowhere to be found (for views that do accept the existence of first-personal facts, see McGinn 1983; Baker 2013; also see Nagel 1986).
Perry (1977, 1979) argues that terms such as “I” which are, as he puts it, “essentially indexical”, pose a problem for the traditional Fregean view of belief as a two-place relation between a subject and a proposition (cf. Spencer 2007). Fregean senses are, according to Perry, descriptive and as Perry has argued no description is equivalent to an essential indexical. Consequently, no Fregean proposition can be the thing believed when one believes first-personally. Essential indexicality, if somehow forced into the Fregean mould, means that we must implausibly accept that there are incommunicable senses that only the speaker (or thinker) is in a position to grasp (see García-Carpintero & Torre 2016); cf.Evans 1981; Longworth 2013). D. Lewis goes further than this, arguing, partly on the basis of his much discussed Two Gods example (1979), in which each God knows all the propositions true at their world yet fails to know which of the two Gods he himself is, that the objects of belief are not propositions at all but rather properties (or centred worlds). That is, since they already know all the true propositions, there is no true proposition the Gods would come to believe when they come to realise which God they are. Essential indexicality forces us away from the model of propositions as the objects of belief. Further, Lewis claims that not just the explicitly indexical cases, but all belief is in this way self-locating or, in his terminology, de se. On this account, every belief involves the self-ascription of a property and so, arguably, is an instance of self-consciousness (for discussion, Gennaro 1996: ch. 8; Stalnaker 2008: ch. 3; Feit 2008; Cappelen & Dever 2013: ch. 5; Magidor 2015).
Arguments such as Perry’s might be challenged on the grounds that it is not possible to rationally doubt that one is the subject of these conscious states, where that formulation involves an “introspective demonstrative” picking out one’s current conscious states. This, it might be claimed, constitutes a reduction of first-person content (cf. Peacocke 1983: ch. 5, although his goal is not reductive). Even if it is true, however, that one cannot doubt that one is the subject of these conscious states, it is not clear that this poses a significant challenge to Perry’s argument for the essential indexicality of the first-person. For one thing, the content itself contains a demonstrative, so indexical, element. Second, it has been argued that our capacity to refer to our own experiences itself depends on our capacity to refer to ourselves as ourselves (P.F. Strawson 1959: 97; Evans 1982: 253). That is, to think of these conscious states is to think of them as these conscious states of mine. If to demonstratively think of one’s conscious state is, necessarily, to think of it as one’s own conscious state, then the purported reduction of first-person thought to thought not containing the first-person will fail.
Cappelen and Dever (2013) present a sustained attack on the constellation of philosophical claims surrounding the “essential indexical”, including its purported relation to action, and both Perry’s and Lewis’s arguments for it (for an alternative objections to Perry and Lewis, see Millikan 1990; Magidor 2015). A central element in their critique is the claim that cases, such as Perry’s shopper, that are often thought to show the special connection between self-consciousness (I-thoughts) and the capacity for action really only show that action explanation contexts do not allow for substitution salva veritate, but rather are opaque (Cappelen & Dever 2013: ch. 3). Just as, if I am at the airport waiting for Jones, I will only signal that man if I believe him to be Jones, so if I am looking for the shopper with the torn sack I will only stop when I believe that I am that shopper. On their view, despite the popularity of the view to the contrary, the capacity for self-consciousness does not possess any philosophically deep relation to the capacity for action (for critical discussion, see Ninan 2016; Bermúdez 2016: ch. 1).
2.2 First-Person Reference
Because of its connection with the first-person pronoun, it is often taken as platitudinous to say that self-conscious thought is closely associated with the capacity to refer to oneself as oneself. When I think self-consciously, I cannot fail to refer to myself. More than this, it has often been claimed that for a central class of first-person thoughts, there is no possibility of misidentifying myself: not only can I not fail to pick myself out, I cannot take another person to be me. But first-person reference, and indexicality more generally, has sometimes been thought to pose a challenge to theories of reference, requiring special treatment. Indeed, some have argued that the platitude itself should be rejected.
Terms whose function it is to refer can, on occasion, fail in that function. A use of the term “Vulcan” to refer to the planet orbiting between Mercury and the sun, fails to refer to anything for the reason that there is nothing for it to refer to. If I see the head of one dachshund protruding from behind a tree and the rear end of another protruding from the other side of the tree, and utter “that dog is huge”, my use of “that dog” has arguably failed to refer due to there being too many objects. It would seem that, by contrast, the term “I” cannot fail to refer either by there being too few or too many objects. “I” is guaranteed to refer.
As an indexical, the referent of “I” varies with the context of utterance (see the entry on indexicals). That is, “I” refers to different people depending on who utters it. Following Kaplan (1977), it is common to think of the meaning of such terms as determining a function from context to referent. In the case of “I”, a natural proposal is the “Self-Reference Rule” (SRR), that the referent of a token of “I” is the person that produces it (Kaplan 1977: 491; Campbell 1994: ch. 3). “I” is thus, unlike “this” or “that”, a pure indexical, seemingly requiring no overt demonstration or manifestation of intention (Kaplan 1977: 489–91). SRR captures the plausible thought that “I” is guaranteed against reference failure. Since every token of “I” has been produced, the fact that “I” refers to its producer means that there is no chance of its failing to pick out some entity. This account of “I”, then, treats it as not only expressive of self-consciousness, but also guaranteed to refer to the utterer.
SRR is Kaplan’s specification of the character of “I”, which is fixed independently of the context of any particular utterance. This character is to be distinguished from the content of a tokening of “I”, which it has only in a context. On Kaplan’s account, the content of an utterance of “I am F” will be a singular proposition composed of the person that produced it and Fness (Recanati 1993; for an account that attributes to the utterance both singular content, and the “reflexive content” the speaker of this token is F, see Perry 2001; for an alternative “Neo-Fregean” account in terms of object-dependent de re senses, see Evans 1981; cf. McDowell 1977; and Evans 1982: ch. 1).
Intuitively plausible as it is, SRR is open to a number of potential counterexamples. Suppose, for example, that you are away from work due to illness and I leave a note on your door reading “I am not here now”. Plausibly, whilst it was me that produced this token of “I”, it nevertheless refers to you. Or consider a situation in which I walk into a petrol station, point to my car, and say “I’m empty”. In this case, it might be suggested, my use of “I” refers to my car rather than myself (for these and related cases, see Vision 1985; Q. Smith 1989; Sidelle 1991; Nunberg 1993, 1995). If so, SRR cannot specify the character of “I” and so, arguably, some tokens of “I” fail to express the self-conscious thoughts of those that produce them. In light of such cases, a variety of alternatives to SRR have been proposed. Q. Smith (1989) suggests that “I” is lexically ambiguous; Predelli (1998a,b, 2002) offers an intention-based reference rule for “I”; Corazza, Fish, and Gorvett (2002) offer a convention-based account; and Cohen (2013) argues that the cases can be handled by a conservative modification of Kaplan’s original proposal (also see, Romdenh-Romluc 2002, 2008; Corazza 2004: ch. 5; Dodd & Sweeney 2010; Michaelson 2014).
Although she didn’t have Kaplan’s formulation of SRR in mind, an earlier criticism of such a rule can be found in the work of Anscombe (1975) who argues that the rule cannot be complete as an account of the meaning of “I” (for discussion see O’Brien 1994). Anscombe considers a world in which each person has two names, one of which (ranging from “B” to “Z”) is printed on their chest, the other (in every case “A”) is printed on the inside of their wrist. Each person uses “B” to “Z” when attributing actions to others, but “A” when describing their own actions (Anscombe 1975: 49). Anscombe argues that such a situation is compatible with the possibility that the people in question lack self-consciousness. Whilst B uses “A” to refer to B, C uses “A” to refer to C, and so on, there is no guarantee that they are thinking of themselves as themselves, for they may be reporting what are in fact their own actions without thinking of those actions as things that they themselves are performing. They may treat themselves, that is, just as the treat any other. This is despite the fact that, in this scenario, “A” complies with SRR.
Can the Self-Reference Rule be reformulated in such a way as to entail self-consciousness on the part of those who use terms that comply with it? According to Anscombe it can, but any such reformulation will presuppose a prior grasp of self-conscious reference to oneself. For example, if we say, employing the indirect reflexive, that “I” is a term that a person uses to refer to she herself, we have travelled in a tight circle since “she herself” can be understood only in terms of “I” (Anscombe 1975; Castañeda 1966; for discussion, see Bermúdez 1998: ch. 1). This can be seen clearly in the first-person formulation of such a rule: “I” is a term that I use to refer to myself. For here the “myself” must itself be understood as an expression of self-consciousness, i.e., we should really say that “I” is a term that I use to refer to myself as myself.
In response to Anscombe’s argument, it has been argued that SRR is not intended to explain the connection between self-consciousness and the first-person (O’Brien 1994, 1995a; Garrett 1998: ch. 7; cf. Campbell 1994: §4.2; Peacocke 2008: §3.1). On this view, all that the example of “A” users shows is that self-consciousness has not been fully accounted for by SRR, not that SRR fails as an account of the character of “I”. Kaplan himself, however, does appear to be more ambitious than this, claiming that the “particular and primitive way” in which each of us is presented to ourselves is simply that each “is presented to himself under the character of "I"” (Kaplan 1977: 533). This claim, it would seem, is indeed open to Anscombe’s challenge.
Anscombe’s (1975) paper is perhaps most notable for her claim that “I” is not a referring expression at all. Assuming that if “I” refers it must be understood on the model of either a proper name, a demonstrative, or an abbreviation of a definite description, Anscombe argues that each of these kinds of referring expression requires what she calls a “conception” by means of which it reaches its referent. This conception must explain the seemingly guaranteed reference of “I”: the apparent fact that no token of “I” can fail to pick out an object. However, she argues, no satisfactory conception can be specified for “I” since either it fails to deliver up guaranteed reference, or it succeeds but only by delivering an immaterial soul. Since we have independent reason to believe that there are no immaterial souls, it follows that “I” cannot be understood on the model of a proper name, demonstrative or definite description, so is not a referring expression (see Kenny 1979 and Malcolm 1979 for positive appraisals of Anscombe’s position. Criticisms can be found in White 1979; Hamilton 1991; Brandom 1994: 552–561; Glock & Hacker 1996; McDowell 1998; Harcourt 2000).
That “I” does not function as either a name or an abbreviated definite description is widely accepted. The more contentious aspect of Anscombe’s case for the view that there is no appropriate conception for “I” is her claim that “I” does not function like a demonstrative. Her argument for this claim is highly reminiscent of Avicenna’s Flying Man argument (see §1.1), with which she was surely familiar. We can, she tells us, imagine a subject in a sensory deprivation tank who has been anaesthetised and is suffering from amnesia. Such a subject would, claims Anscombe, be able to think I-thoughts, perhaps wondering, “How did I get into this mess?”. Since such a subject can think self-consciously in the absence of any presented referent, it follows that “I” cannot mean something like “this person”, since demonstratives require the demonstrated object to be presented to conscious awareness. Treating “I” on a demonstrative model, then, fails (cf. Campbell 1994: §4.2; O’Brien 1995b; see Morgan 2015 for a defence of a demonstrative account).
According to Evans (1982: ch. 7), the problem with Anscombe’s argument is that it fails to appreciate that “I” can be modelled on “here” rather than “this”. According to Evans’ account, the similarity between what he calls “I”-Ideas and “here”-Ideas shows up in their functional role (for an alternative broadly functional account, see Mellor 1989; for an argument that, far from being amenable to a functional analysis, self-consciousness poses a threat to the coherence of functionalism, see Bealer 1997). Once we see how both “I”-Ideas and “here”-Ideas stand at the centre of distinctive networks of inputs (ways of gaining information about ourselves and our locations respectively) and outputs (including the explanation of action), we can see how to model “I” on “here”, thus escaping Anscombe’s argument. For further discussion, see the supplement: Evans on First Person Thought.
2.3 Immunity to Error Through Misidentification
In The Blue and Brown Books, Wittgenstein distinguishes between two uses of the term “I” which he calls the “use as subject” and the “use as object” (1958: 66–70; Garrett 1998: ch. 8; cf. James’ distinction between the I, or pure ego, and the me, or empirical self (1890: vol. 1, ch. X)). As Wittgenstein describes the difference, there is a certain kind of error in thought that is possible when “I” is used as object but not when “I” is used as subject. Wittgenstein notes that if I find myself in a tangle of bodies, I may wrongly take another’s visibly broken arm to be my own, mistakenly judging “I have a broken arm”. Upon seeing a broken arm, then, it can make sense to wonder whether or not it is mine. If, however, I feel a pain in the arm, and on that basis judge “I have a pain”, then it makes no sense at all for me to wonder whether the pain of which I am aware is mine. That is, it is not possible for me to be aware, in the ordinary way, of a pain in an arm but mistakenly judge it to be my own arm that hurts. On this picture, self-ascriptions of pain, at least when based on the usual introspective grounds, involve the use of “I” as subject and so are immune to this sort of error of misidentification.
Immunity to this sort of error should not be conflated with another sort of epistemic security that is often discussed under the heading of self-knowledge (see entry on self-knowledge). Some philosophers have held that, for a range of mental states, one cannot be mistaken about whether one is in them. Thus, for example, if one sincerely judges that one has a pain, or that one believes that P, then it cannot turn out that one is not in pain, or that one does not so believe. That the kind of immunity to error described by Wittgenstein differs from this sort of epistemic security follows from the fact that one may be sceptical of the latter while accepting the former. That is, one may reject the claim that sincere judgements that one has a pain cannot be mistaken (perhaps it is possible to mistake a sensation of coldness for one of pain), whilst nevertheless maintaining that if one is introspectively aware of a pain, then that pain must be one’s own. Immunity to errors of this sort has been taken, by a number of philosophers, to be importantly connected to self-consciousness.
Under the influence of Shoemaker (1968) this phenomenon has become known as immunity to error through misidentification relative to the first-person pronoun, or IEM. On Shoemaker’s formulation, an error of misidentification occurs when one knows some particular thing, a, to be F and judges that b is F on the grounds that one mistakenly believes that a is identical to b. To this it is important to add that IEM is not a feature that judgements possess in virtue of their content alone but only relative to certain grounds (perception, testimony, introspection, memory, etc.). Thus, the judgement that I am jealous of a might be IEM when grounded in introspection, but not when grounded in the overheard testimony of my analyst. For I may have misinterpreted my analyst’s words, wrongly taking his use of “Smith” in “Smith is Jealous of a” to refer to me (“Smith” after all is a common name). IEM is always relative, then, to the grounds on which a judgement is based. Which grounds might give rise to first-person judgements that are IEM is a contested matter, see the supplement: The Scope of Immunity to Error Through Misidentification.
On this account, first-person thoughts will be IEM relative to certain grounds just in case errors of misidentification are not possible with respect to them. That is, they will be IEM relative to grounds G if and only if it is not possible that one knows, via G, some particular thing, a, to be F and judges oneself to be F in virtue of mistakenly believing that a is identical to oneself. Whilst precise formulations differ in various ways, this can reasonably be thought of as the standard account of IEM (see, for example, Shoemaker 1968, 1970, 1986, 2012; Brewer 1995; Bermúdez 1998: §1.2; Peacocke 1999: ch. 6; 2008: §3.2; 2014: §5.1; Coliva 2006; Recanati 2007: part 6; Perry 2012; most of the papers in Prosser & Recanati 2012; Musholt 2015: ch. 1).
An alternative way of formulating IEM can be found in the work of variety of philosophers. On this view, a judgement “a is F” is IEM if and only if it is not possible to undercut one’s evidence for judging that a is F without thereby undercutting one’s evidence that someone is F (for variations on this idea, see Hamilton 1995; Wright 1998; Pryor 1999; Campbell 1999a; 2002: ch. 5; for discussion see Coliva 2006; Joel Smith 2006a; McGlynn 2016). As Wright puts it, a claim
made on a certain kind of ground involves immunity to error through misidentification just when its defeat is not consistent with retention of grounds for existential generalization. (1998: 19)
The idea is that, for a wide range of judgements it is possible that one knows that something is F but wrongly supposes that a is F. That is, one has misidentified which thing is F. For other judgements, perhaps including the introspection based judgement that one has a headache, this sort of identification error is not possible. After Pryor’s (1999) influential discussion, this is typically known as immunity to which-misidentification, or wh-IEM.
That wh-IEM is a distinct phenomenon from IEM as it is standardly formulated is shown by the fact one may consistently claim that a form of experience, for example memory, does not put one in a position to think, of some a distinct from oneself, that a was F, yet nevertheless does put one in a position to think that someone was F. That is, it might give rise to judgements that are IEM but not wh-IEM. The converse, however, is not possible. For since “a was F” entails “someone was F”, it will not be possible for a judgement, relative to some grounds, to be wh-IEM without it also being IEM. If a judgement is based on an identification, it will be subject to errors of wh-misidentification. For this reason, wh-IEM might legitimately be considered the more fundamental notion (as it is by Pryor 1999).
What is the philosophical significance of IEM? First, consider what it would take for a form of experience to ground thoughts that are IEM. Suppose that a form of experience, introspection for example, itself has first-personal content. That is, suppose that the content of introspective awareness is not adequately conceptualised as pain but rather requires the first-personal form, my pain. If so, then there would be no need for an identification of some object as oneself, for the identity of the subject of pain is already given as oneself. On this way of thinking, to determine which forms of experience ground judgements that are IEM would be to determine which forms of experience have first-personal content. And that, according to some philosophers, is to determine which forms of experience are themselves forms of self-consciousness (see, for example, Bermúdez 1998: 144). This issue is further discussed in §3.
Second, Wittgenstein suggests that the phenomenon of IEM is responsible for the (in his view, mistaken) opinion that the use of “I” as subject refers to an immaterial soul (1958: 66). This is for the reason that one may be tempted to suppose that if introspectively based self-ascriptions of psychological predicates do not rely on an identification of a bodily entity, they must rely on the identification of a non-bodily entity (1958: 70; for related discussion, see Peacocke 1999: ch. 6; Coliva 2012). Wittgenstein’s view, of course, is that they rely on no identification at all. As Evans puts it, they are identification-free. Essentially the same point is made by Strawson in his diagnosis of “the fact that lies at the root of the Cartesian illusion”, which is that “criterionless” self-ascription gives rise to the idea of a “purely inner and yet subject-referring use for ‘I’” (P.F. Strawson 1966: 164–166). In short, the fact that a certain class of first-person thoughts depend for their reference on no identification of myself as some publicly presented object (they are identification-free) gives rise to the idea that they pick out a private object, a soul. There is a clear connection between this idea and Anscombe’s (1975) argument for the non-referential character of “I”.
3. Self-Consciousness in Experience
Some philosophers maintain that, in addition to its manifestation in first-personal thinking, self-consciousness is also present in various forms of sensory and non-sensory experience (Bermúdez 1998; Hurley 1998: ch. 4; Zahavi 2005; Peacocke 2014; Musholt 2015). After all, self-consciousness is presumably a form of consciousness (see entry on consciousness). On the view that experience, like thought, has representational content, this can be understood as the view that experiences, like thoughts, can have content that is first-personal. On the further view that the content of experience is non-conceptual (see the entry on non-conceptual mental content), the claim is that there is non-conceptual first-person content (for a conceptualist response, see Noë 2002). Bermúdez also argues that there is a non-conceptual form of self-conscious thinking that arises from non-conceptual self-conscious experience, which he calls “protobelief” (Bermúdez 1998: ch. 5; cf. Bermúdez 2003).
The claim that there is a form of self-consciousness in experience, one which arguably grounds the capacity to entertain first-personal thought, can be understood in a number of ways. According to one view there is a perceptual, or quasi-perceptual, consciousness of the self as an object of experience. On another, there is a “pre-reflective” form of self-consciousness that does not involve the awareness of the self as an object. A third claims that various forms of experience involve a distinctive “sense of ownership” in which each of us is aware of our own states as our own. In each case, the question is whether the mode of experience in question can, in Peacocke’s (2014: ch. 4) words, act as the “non-conceptual parent” of the first-person concept and associated phenomena, in particular that of immunity to error through misidentification.
3.1 Consciousness of the Self
It is natural to suppose that self-consciousness is, fundamentally, a conscious awareness of the self. On such a view, one is self-conscious if, when one introspects, one is aware of a thing that is, in some sense, presented as oneself. This is the view, mentioned in §1.2, that Hume seems to be rejecting with his claim that when he introspects he can never catch himself, but only perceptions (Hume 1739–40: bk. 1, ch. 4, §6). Whilst Hume’s claim has been very influential, it has not found universal acceptance. Those siding with Hume include Shoemaker (1986), Martin (1997), Howell (2010), and Prinz (2012) (for a related, Jamesian perspective, see Flanagan 1992: ch. 9). Those opposing him include Chisholm (1976: ch. 1), Cassam (1995), G. Strawson (2009), Damasio (2010) and Rosenthal (2012).
As with first-person thought, the issue is not whether one is, or can be, conscious of what is in fact oneself. If that were sufficient for self-consciousness then, on the supposition that one is identical to one’s body, seeing oneself in a mirror would be a case of self-consciousness, even if one were unaware that it was oneself that one saw. Rather, the issue is whether one is, or can be, conscious of oneself as oneself, a form of awareness in which it is manifest to one that the object of awareness is oneself. If there is such an awareness then this is philosophically significant, since one might expect it to ground certain cases of self-knowledge, first-person reference, and the immunity to error of certain first-person thoughts (Shoemaker 1986; see the entry on self-knowledge). The inner consciousness of the self as F, for example, would account for one’s capacity to refer to oneself as oneself, one’s knowledge that one is F, and the fact that such a thought cannot rest on a misidentification of another thing as oneself. On the other hand, the claim that there is no such conscious awareness of the self is philosophically significant, not only because it undermines the possibility of such explanations but also for the reason that it plays an important role in various well known arguments: for example, in Kant’s First Critique (1781/1787), most obviously the Transcendental Deduction, the Refutation of Idealism, and the Paralogisms, and in Wittgenstein’s discussion of the conceptual problem of other minds (Kripke 1982: Postscript).
A simple argument for the claim that we are introspectively aware of ourselves is that in introspection one is perceptually aware of one’s own mental properties, and that when one perceives a property one perceives that which has that property, i.e., oneself. Shoemaker (1984b, 1986) agrees that if there is an introspective awareness of the self as an object, then it should be understood as a form of self-perception. He argues, however, that, on a plausible account of perception, introspection is not a form of perception, so we do not introspectively perceive anything, including the self. As such, we cannot conclude in this way that we are introspectively aware of the self (cf. Martin 1997; Rosenthal 2012).
Shoemaker further argues, in a way reminiscent of the Heidelberg School (Frank 1995; Musholt 2015: ch. 1), that the postulation of an introspective awareness of the self as the self would not be in a position to explain all self-knowledge. According to Shoemaker (1984b: 105), if inner perception revealed an object to be F, then I would only be in a position to judge that I am F if I already took myself to be that object that I perceive. But this both presupposes some (non-perceptual) self-knowledge (i.e., that I am the thing perceived via inner sense), and also implausibly opens up introspection based first-person thought to the possibility of errors of misidentification, since such a view would entail that introspective self-knowledge is based in part on an identification of the self.
A number of philosophers have maintained that, even if Hume is right that introspection does not reveal the self as an object, there is another form of perceptual experience which does: bodily awareness (see entry). Versions of this claim can be found in P.F. Strawson (1966: 102), Evans (1982: ch. 7), Sutton Morris (1982), Ayers (1991), Brewer (1995), Cassam (1995, 1997), Bermúdez (1998, 2011). On this view, through bodily awareness I am aware of my body “from the inside” as a bodily self, as me. Brewer (1995), for example, argues that since bodily sensations are both manifestly properties of oneself and are perceived as located properties of one’s body, it follows that in bodily awareness one perceives one’s body as oneself.
If one’s body is presented as oneself in bodily awareness then, as mentioned above, we might expect this bodily self-perception to ground first-person thought about one’s bodily states. As pointed out in §2, it is plausible that first-person thoughts cannot fail to refer to their thinker and further that this is manifest in the thinking of them. Martin (1995, 1997) argues on the basis of these two claims that if bodily awareness is a form of self-awareness, then one’s body as presented in bodily awareness must manifestly be oneself. That is, if a form of awareness is to ground judgements which are manifestly about myself, then that form of awareness must manifestly be an awareness of myself. But this is arguably a condition that it does not meet, since it is perfectly coherent to wonder whether or not one is identical to one’s body, just as Descartes famously did in the Meditations (for a different, imagination-based, argument against bodily awareness as a form of self-awareness, see Joel Smith 2006b; see Bermúdez 2011 for a response; for discussions of the relation between self-consciousness and imagination see B. Williams 1973; Reynolds 1989; Velleman 1996).
Another way in which it can be argued that the self figures in sensory experience is in the self-locating content of perceptual experience, most notably vision. Visual experience is perspectival, containing information not only about perceived objects but also of their spatial relation to the perceiver: I see the wall as in front of me, the bookcase as to my left, and so on. The (bodily) self, it might be argued, is experienced as an object in the world, the point of origin of egocentric perception (Cassam 1997: 52–53; Hurley 1998: ch. 4; Bermúdez 1998: ch. 5, 2002, 2011; Peacocke 1999: ch. 6; Schwenkler 2014). On an alternative view, one consistent with the rejection of any sort of awareness of the self as an object, visual perception does not present the self at its point of origin, but rather represents the locations of perceived objects in monadic terms, as ahead, to the left, and so on, without specifying what it is that they are ahead, or to the left, of (Campbell 1994: §4.1; 2002: §9.3; Perry 1986).
3.2 Pre-Reflective Self-Consciousness
If first-person thought is not grounded in an awareness of the self as an object, then some other account is arguably required to account for the capacity to entertain self-conscious thought (O’Brien 1995a). One suggestion is that subjects possess a form of “pre-reflective self-awareness” as a necessary condition of consciousness (Sartre 1937, 1943: Introduction; Zahavi 2005, 2007; Legrand 2006; cf. Kriegel 2009. For criticism, see Schear 2009; also see the entry on phenomenological approaches to self-consciousness). On this view, all conscious experience involves an implicit awareness of oneself as its subject without explicitly representing the self as an object of awareness (cf. Musholt’s distinction between “self-representationalist” and “non-self-representationalist” accounts of non-conceptual self-consciousness (2015: chs. 3–4)). Indeed, it might be argued that the necessity of an active agent’s possessing some form of self-awareness follows from the connection between action and self-consciousness that many suppose to have been established by considerations of the essential indexical discussed in §2.1 (cf. Bermúdez 1998).
These views are closely associated with theories that explain consciousness in terms of self-consciousness (§4.3). Pre-reflective self-awareness is “pre-reflective”, according to its proponents, in the sense that it does not require one to explicitly reflect on one’s own mental states, or to otherwise take them as objects of attention. Rather, pre-reflective self-awareness is manifest even in those situations in which one’s attention is directed outwards toward worldly objects and events. Pre-reflective self-awareness, then, is implicit in all consciousness, providing one with a continuous awareness of oneself as the subject of one’s stream of experience.
One way in which such views can be understood is as maintaining that experience involves self-consciousness in the mode, rather than the content, of conscious experience (Recanati 2007: part 5; 2012; O’Brien 2007: ch. 6). This can be fleshed out by analogy with the case of belief: one might claim that the concept of truth figures in the mode, but not the explicit content of every belief. That is, whilst every belief is a holding true, it is not the case that every belief has the content that such and such is true. Similarly, whilst every experience is an experience of one’s own, it is not the case that every experience has the content that such and such is experienced by oneself. Rather, the mode of conscious experience (introspection, bodily awareness, etc.) includes an implicit awareness of the self. A related view is that the self can be considered an “unarticulated constituent” of the experience, just as some claim that “here” is an unarticulated constituent of “It is raining” (Perry 1986; Recanati 2007: parts 9 & 10; for scepticism about unarticulated constituents, see Cappelen & Lepore 2007). So, just as the person who believes “It is raining” is implicitly aware of the fact that it is here that it is raining, so the subject of self-conscious experience is implicitly aware of the fact that it is she herself who is undergoing that experience.
Accounts of self-consciousness as involving unarticulated constituents, or as implicit in the mode of consciousness, will need to explain how the transition is made from such implicit self-awareness to the explicit representation of the self in first-person thought. One option is to appeal to the idea that certain sources of information are self-tracking or, in Perry’s (2012) words, “necessarily self-informative”. A form of experience is self-tracking if it is a way of coming to know of the instantiation of properties of a certain type and, necessarily, a subject can come to know, in that way, of the instantiation of her own states only. For example, if it is true that a subject can only remember conscious episodes from her own past, then episodic memory is self-tracking. If so, then the subject may legitimately think the first-person thought “I was F”, on the basis of her episodic memory of being F. This account may also be used to explain IEM, since if a form of experience is self-tracking, then it will not be possible for me to know, in that way, that a is F but mistakenly think that it is me that is F on the grounds that I mistakenly believe myself to be identical to a (Perry 2012; Recanati 2012; cf. Campbell 1999a; Martin 1995). Here we have an architectural feature of a given form of experience (that it is necessarily an awareness of oneself) being employed in an explanation of an epistemic feature of self-ascriptions based on such experience (that they are not partly grounded in an identity judgement). If I know, in the relevant way, that a is F, then it must be the case that I am a. On this view, making a first-person judgement grounded in a given form of experience is a matter of articulating the unarticulated self. The experience itself is not explicitly first-personal, representing the self as oneself. Nevertheless, it “concerns” the subject, in that it is necessarily tied to the self (see Musholt 2015: ch. 5 for an alternative account).
3.3 The Sense of Ownership
Pre-reflective, or implicit, accounts of the place of self-consciousness in experience are often associated with the so-called “sense of ownership”, or “sense of mineness” (Flanagan 1992; Martin 1995; Dokic 2003; Marcel 2003; Zahavi 2005: ch. 5; de Vignemont 2007, 2013; Tsakiris 2011; Zahavi & Kriegel 2015). According to some, a fundamental aspect of conscious experiences is that they seem, in each case, to be mine. In being aware of a thought, action, emotion, perceptual experience, memory, bodily experience (and also my body itself), I am aware of it as being my own. This sense of ownership arguably does some work in explaining why it seems difficult to conceive of what it would be like to experience a thought as located in another’s mind, or a pain as located in another’s body (Martin 1995; Dokic 2003). For such an experience would involve being aware of a thought that seemed to be mine but as located in a mind that did not seem to be my own. The sense of ownership is also a candidate for explaining immunity to error through misidentification since if conscious experiences seem to be one’s own, then there is presumably no need for any identification of the experience’s subject as oneself.
Whilst the sense of ownership would, presumably, be accounted for by an introspective awareness of the self, it can also arguably be explained with the more minimal commitments of the implicit view. The sense of an experience as my own can be understood as nothing over and above the fact that the self is implicitly given in the mode of conscious awareness (Musholt 2015: §4.2). Thus the focus on the sense of ownership might be thought to provide a minimal answer to Humean scepticism about self-perception. As Chisholm points out, for example, although Hume complained that he could find no self in introspection, he reported his findings in first-personal terms. That is, he was aware not only of his mental states, but also aware of them as his own (Chisholm 1976: ch. 1; cf. P.F. Strawson’s 1959: ch. 3, attack on the “no-ownership” view).
Even within the context of an implicit account of self-consciousness in experience, we can further distinguish between reductive and non-reductive construals of the sense of ownership (Bermúdez 2011; Zahavi & Kriegel 2015; Alsmith 2015). For example, Zahavi and Kriegel (2015; cf. Kriegel 2003, 2009; Zahavi 2014) defend a non-reductive understanding of the sense of ownership as a distinct aspect of the phenomenal character of experience. By contrast, a reductive account will explain the sense of ownership in terms of cognitive and/or experiential states whose existence we are independently willing to endorse. For example, Bermúdez (2011: 161–166) argues in favour of a reductive account of the sense of ownership over one’s own body, according to which it consists in nothing more than the phenomenology of the spatial location of bodily sensations alongside our disposition to judge the body in which they occur to be our own (cf. Dainton 2008: §8.2; Prinz 2012). Bermúdez’s argument for the reductive view is, in part, based on the claim that, despite appearances, the non-reductive sense of ownership is not in fact able to explain first-personal judgements of ownership (cf. Schear 2009; for a response see Zahavi & Kriegel 2015).
It is sometimes claimed that the variety of ways in which self-consciousness can break down poses a challenge to the claim that the sense of ownership is a universal characteristic of experience (e.g., Metzinger 2003: §7.2.2). Thought insertion, anarchic hand, alien limb, anonymous memory, and anonymous vision, all seemingly involve subjects who are aware of their own conscious states, actions, or body parts, but without being aware of them as their own (for references, see the supplement: The Scope of Immunity to Error Through Misidentification). They may disown them or attribute them to others. For example, in cases of thought insertion, a symptom of schizophrenia, subjects report that they are aware of the thoughts of other people or objects entering their own minds (see, for example, Saks 2007: ch. 2; for general discussion of schizophrenia and self-consciousness see Parnas & Sass 2011). On the assumption that such subjects are actually aware of what are, in fact, their own thoughts, this might seem to be a case of a conscious experience that lacks the sense of ownership. Thus, either the sense of ownership is not a necessary feature of experience, or perhaps there is no sense of ownership at all (see, for example, Chadha 2017).
A common response to this line of thought involves, first, distinguishing between the sense of ownership and the sense of agency and, second, claiming that subjects of thought insertion lack the latter whilst retaining the former (Stephens & Graham 2000; Gallagher 2004; Peacocke 2008: §7.8; Proust 2013: ch. 12). The sense of agency is the awareness of being the source or the agent of some action or activity, including mental agency. It is the sense that it is me that is thinking a given thought (Bayne 2008; O’Brien & Soteriou 2009; Proust 2013: ch. 10). According to this standard view, cases of thought insertion or anarchic hand, for example, can be wholly explained by postulating a lack of a sense of agency. The usual sense of being the agent of a thought is lacking, but the sense of ownership remains since the thought seems to the subject be taking place in their own mind.
We might, however, wish to make a three-way distinction between the sense of agency (the sense that one is the author of a mental state), the sense of ownership (the sense that one is the owner of a mental state), and what we might call the sense of location (the sense that a mental state is located within one’s own mind). The sense of location might be understood as being possessed if one is aware of a mental state in the ordinary way, i.e., introspectively. Crucial, it would seem, for evaluating the significance of thought insertion and related cases, and so of the standard view, will be determining which, if any, of the senses of agency, ownership, or location remain intact. For it might be argued that what such subjects retain is in fact the sense of location, rather than the sense of ownership. That is, it may be possible to take their descriptions at face value when they deny, in thought insertion for example, that the thoughts in question are their own (or were thought by them), whilst nevertheless accepting that the inserted thought occurs within the boundary of their own mind (for criticisms of the standard view, see Bortolotti & Broome 2009; Pacherie & Martin 2013; Fernández 2013: ch. 5; Billon 2013).
4. The Conditions of Self-Consciousness
Much of the philosophical work on self-consciousness concerns its relation to a variety of other phenomena. These include the nature of personhood, rationality, consciousness, and the awareness of other minds. In each case we can ask whether self-consciousness is a necessary and/or sufficient condition for the phenomenon in question.
4.1 Self-Consciousness and Personhood
As was mentioned in §1.2, Locke characterises a person as “a thinking intelligent Being, that has reason and reflection, and can consider it self as it self, the same thinking thing in different times and places” (1700: II.xxvii.9). On such a view, self-consciousness is essential to personhood. In particular, on Locke’s view it is the capacity to reidentify oneself at different times that is important, a claim which is in keeping with the central role of memory in his account of personal identity (see Ayers 1991: vol. II, chs. 22–25; Thiel 2011: ch. 4; Weinberg 2011; G. Strawson 2011b; Snowdon 2014: ch. 3; entry on personal identity). As such, Locke considers the capacity for self-conscious thinking to be a necessary condition of personhood. What is less clear is whether, on this view, self-consciousness is sufficient for personhood. One reason for doubt on this score is that since it is concerned with self-conscious thought the account provides no reason to suppose that creatures that enjoy non-conceptual self-consciousness are persons. A second is that the requirement of being able to reidentify oneself over time is not one that we need consider met by all self-conscious creatures for, we can suppose, it is possible for a self-conscious subject to lack the conceptual sophistication to understand the past and future tense.
An alternative conception of personhood that also gives a central role to self-consciousness can be found in Frankfurt’s claim that it is essential to persons to have a capacity for reflective self-evaluation manifested in the possession of what he calls “second-order volitions” (Frankfurt 1971: 110). Second-order volitions involve wanting a certain desire to be one’s will, that is wanting it to move one to action. A subject with second-order volitions has the capacity to evaluate their first-order desires and this, it would seem, involves being aware of them as (potentially) their own. Thus persons, thought of as subjects with second-order volitions, are self-conscious (for discussion, see Watson 1975; Dennett 1976; Frankfurt 1987; Bratman 2007: chs. 5 & 11).
An account of persons that would appear to distance that notion from self-consciousness is that offered by P.F. Strawson in chapter 3 of Individuals,
the concept of a person is the concept of a type of entity such that both predicates ascribing states of consciousness and predicates ascribing corporeal characteristics, a physical situation &c. are equally applicable to a single individual of that type. (1959: 101–102; for discussion, see Ayer 1963; Hacker 2002)
Frankfurt points out that this is inadequate as a definition of personhood since “there are many entities beside persons that have both mental and physical properties” (Frankfurt 1971: 5). It may be, however, that Strawson’s formulation here is somewhat loose, and that his central idea is that persons are those entities that self-ascribe both types of predicate, a condition that perhaps rules out at least most non-human animals. After all chapter 3 of Individuals, entitled “Persons”, is primarily concerned with the conditions of such self-ascription, with “the use we make of the word ‘I’” (P.F. Strawson 1959: 94).
Strawson’s primary goal is to argue for the claim that the concept of a person is primitive, a position that he contrasts, on the one hand, with Cartesian dualism and, on the other, with what he calls the “no-ownership view”: a view according to which we don’t really self-ascribe states of consciousness at all, at least not with the use of “I” as subject (cf. Wittgenstein 1953: §244; 1958: 76; Anscombe 1975; it is controversial whether Wittgenstein ever really held this view, for discussion see Hacker 1990: chs. 5 & 11; Jacobsen 1996; Wright 1998). To say that the concept of a person is primitive is, on Strawson’s account, to say that it is “logically prior” to the concepts subject and body; persons are not to be thought of as compounds of subjects and bodies. Strawson argues that the primitiveness of the concept of a person is a necessary condition of the possibility of self-consciousness (P.F. Strawson 1959: 98–103). His argument is that one can only self-ascribe states of consciousness if one is able to ascribe them to others (for more on this theme see §4.4). This rules out Cartesian dualism, since ascribing states of consciousness to others requires that one be able to identify others, and one cannot identify pure subjects of experience or Cartesian egos. The condition that one must be able to ascribe states of consciousness to others also rules out the “no-ownership view” because such a view is inconsistent with the fact that psychological predicates have the very same sense in their first and third person uses.
Closely related to the no-ownership view are a family of claims about persons that Parfit dubs “reductionism” (Parfit 1984: §79). Two prominent members of this familiar are the claim that
[a] person’s existence consists in the existence of a brain and body, and the occurrence of a series of interrelated physical and mental event, (1984: 211)
[t]hough persons exist, we could give a complete description of reality without claiming that persons exist. (1984: 212)
Parfit’s reductionism, and it’s relation to Buddhist views of the self, has been widely discussed (see for example, Stone 1988; Korsgaard 1989; Cassam 1989, 1993, 1997: ch. 5; Garrett 1991, 1998: ch. 2; Siderits 1997; McDowell 1997; Blackburn 1997). As is the case with the “no-ownership view” it has sometimes been argued that reductionism is incompatible with self-consciousness so, since we are indisputably self-conscious, reductionism must be false. Against the claim that the (continued) existence of a person consists merely in the (continued) existence of brain, body, and interrelated physical and mental events that do not presuppose anything about persons as such, McDowell (1997) for example, argues from a broadly Evansian position on self-consciousness (see the supplement: Evans on First Person Thought) that there simply are no such “identity-free relations” (1997: 378) to which a person’s identity could be reducible. That is, there is no way of characterising memory and the other psychological phenomena relevant to personal identity without invoking the identity of the person whose memory it is. As McDowell puts it,
[i]n continuity of “consciousness”, there is what appears to be knowledge of an identity, the persistence of the same subject through time. (1997: 361)
Memory, at least, cannot be employed in a reductive account of persons (for discussion of McDowell’s argument see Buford 2009; Fernández 2014; for related arguments from self-consciousness to the falsity of reductionism, see Cassam 1997: ch. 5).
4.2 Self-Consciousness and Rationality
Is self-consciousness a necessary condition of rationality? A number of philosophers have argued that rationality requires self-knowledge which itself implies self-consciousness (see Shoemaker 1988, 1994; Burge 1996; Moran 2001; Bilgrami 2006; Boyle 2009, 2011; for a general discussion of this approach to self-knowledge, see Gertler 2011: ch. 6). In his case against perceptual theories of self-knowledge, Shoemaker (1994) argues against the possibility of self-blindness; against, that it is, the possibility that a rational creature with all the necessary concepts might be simply unaware of its own sensations, beliefs, and so on. A rational creature that is in pain, Shoemaker argues, will typically desire to be rid of her pain, and this requires that she believe that she is in pain. As Shoemaker puts it, to see rational responses to pain
as pain behavior is to see them as motivated by such states of the creature as the belief that it is in pain, the desire to be rid of the pain, and the belief that such and such a course of behaviour will achieve that result. (Shoemaker 1994: 228)
This belief, that she is in pain, is a self-conscious one; it is a belief that she herself is in pain. This connection between rational behaviour and first-person thought is, of course, the one highlighted by Perry’s (1979) case of the messy shopper in his discussion of the essential indexical (see §2.1).
The connection between rationality and self-knowledge (and so self-consciousness), Shoemaker argues, is even more pronounced in the case of our awareness of our own beliefs. Rational subjects should abide by certain strictures on the contents of their beliefs, updating them in line with new evidence, removing inconsistencies, and so on. And this, Shoemaker argues, requires that they not be self-blind with respect to their beliefs. It requires that they are self-conscious. As Shoemaker writes,
in an important class of cases the rational revision or adjustment of the belief-desire system requires that we undertake investigations aimed at determining what revisions or readjustments to make […] What rationalizes the investigation are one’s higher-order beliefs about what one believes and has reason to believe. (Shoemaker 1994: 240; also see Shoemaker’s discussion of Moore’s Paradox in Shoemaker 1988, 1994; for critical discussion of Shoemaker’s arguments in the context of theories of self-knowledge see, for example, Macdonald 1999; Kind 2003; Siewert 2003; Gertler 2011: ch. 5)
The connection that Shoemaker sees between the requirements of rationality, on the one hand, and self-awareness, on the other, is also stressed in so-called “rationalist” accounts of self-knowledge, most prominently in the work of Burge (1996) and Moran (2001; for critical discussion of the rationalist approach as an account of self-knowledge see, for example, Peacocke 1996; O’Brien 2003; Reed 2010; Gertler 2011: ch. 6). Burge focuses on the notion of the critical reasoner. He writes,
[t]o be capable of critical reasoning, and to be subject to certain rational norms necessarily associated with such reasoning, some mental acts and states must be knowledgeably reviewable. (Burge 1996: 97; for a fuller argument for the same conclusion, see Burge 1998)
On Burge’s account, the critical reasoner must be in a position to recognise their reasons as reasons, and that requires “the second order ability to think about thought contents or propositions, and rational relations among them” (1996: 97). This is for the reason that belief involves commitments and such commitments involve meeting certain standards—providing reasons, reevaluating where necessary, and so on.
A similar line of thought can be found in Moran’s account of the role of reflection on one’s own state in practical deliberation about what to do and how to feel (Moran 2001: ch. 2). Here the focus is not so much on critical reasoning but rather practical deliberation as that which requires self-consciousness. This is an idea that is also central to much of Korsgaard’s work (see, in particular, Korsgaard 1996, 2009). A central concern of hers is to distinguish between the sort of action of which all animals are capable and the sort of autonomous agency of which we self-conscious subjects are capable. The difference lies, on her broadly Kantian view, in simply having one’s most powerful desire result in action, on the one hand, and counting that desire as a reason for action, on the other. It is the latter that is constitutive of autonomous, deliberative action understood from the perspective of practical reason. As she writes,
[w]hen you deliberate it is as if there were something over and above all your desires, something which is you, and which chooses which desire to act upon. (Korsgaard 1996: 100)
Self-consciousness, on this view,
is the source of reason. When we become conscious of the workings of an incentive within us, the incentive is experienced not as a force or a necessity but as a proposal, something we need to make a decision about. (Korsgaard 2009: 119; for discussion of Korsgaard’s account of the relation between self-consciousness and the perspective of practical reason, see, for example, Nagel 1996; Fitzpatrick 2005; Soteriou 2013: ch. 12).
Self-awareness, on these views, is a necessary condition of rationality (conceived as the capacity for critical reasoning or practical deliberation). Burge also makes it clear that he regards the capacity for critical reasoning to be a necessary condition of (conceptual) self-consciousness, since to master and self-ascribe psychological concepts such as belief, once must be able to recognise their role in reasoning, and so employ them (Burge 1996: 97, n.3). As he puts it,
[a]cknowledging, with the I concept, that an attitude or act is one’s own is acknowledging that rational evaluations of it which one also acknowledges provide immediate […] reason and rationally immediate motivation to shape the attitude or act in accordance with the evaluation […] The first-person concept fixes the locus of responsibility. (Burge 1998: 253)
The claim that there is a constitutive connection between self-consciousness and rationality has been met with scepticism by Kornblith (2011, 2012: ch. 2; for a related line of thought, see Doris 2015: ch. 2). Regarding the sort of responsiveness to reason involved in updating one’s beliefs in accordance with new evidence—one of the capacities emphasised by both Shoemaker and Burge—Kornblith argues that “[w]hile such responsiveness may be achieved, at times, by way of reflection on one’s beliefs and desires, it does not require any such reflection” (2012: 49). Rationally revising beliefs in the face of evidence, Kornblith is keen to point out, is a capacity enjoyed by non-reflective animals. He further presents the rationalist view with a challenge: if one thinks that (first-order) beliefs are not themselves responsive to reason, how does adding (second-order) beliefs help? One response to this challenge is to point out that the connection between self-awareness and rationality that Shoemaker finds is intended to hold only for “an important class of cases” (Shoemaker 1994: 240), that is it holds for those cases of belief revision that themselves qualify as exercises in rational investigation. On this view, whilst non-reflective creatures may have some degree of rationality, their lack of self-consciousness means that they are not, as we are, capable of fully rational deliberation (for discussion of Kornblith’s scepticism concerning the role of self-consciousness in rationality, see Pust 2014; M. Williams 2015; Smithies 2016).
4.3 Self-Consciousness and Consciousness
Central to the history of the self-consciousness sketched in §1 is a concern with the relation between self-consciousness and consciousness. Since self-consciousness is itself a form of consciousness, consciousness is, of course, a necessary condition of it. But is self-consciousness necessary for consciousness? Positive answers to this question come in both reductive and non-reductive varieties.
One way in which consciousness might entail self-consciousness is if the former is reducible to the latter. One such family of views are higher order theories of consciousness which maintain that a psychological state is conscious if and only if it is represented, in the right way, by a higher order state (Gennaro 2004; for a very different account that nevertheless posits a tight connection between consciousness and self-consciousness, see O’Shaughnessy 2002: ch. 3). A natural assumption is that this higher order state is distinct from that which it represents. Higher Order theories that accept this assumption fall into two camps: Higher Order Thought (HOT) theories (Rosenthal 1986, 2005; Carruthers 2000, 2005), which maintain that the higher order state is a thought or belief, and Higher Order Perception (HOP) theories (Armstrong 1968; Lycan 1996, 2004), which by contrast maintain that the higher order state is a perception-like sensory state—an exercise of the sort of inner perception, or “inner sense”, that was extensively debated throughout the seventeenth and eighteenth centuries (Thiel 2011; see §3.1). Since, however, we can be aware that someone else is in some conscious state, it seems that simply being aware that a thought is occurring is insufficient to render that thought conscious. Arguably, what is required is that one be aware that one is in the relevant first-order state. That is, one represents oneself as being in the state in question. Since this seems to involve a form of self-awareness, the HOT and HOP theories can be understood as holding that consciousness entails self-consciousness (Gennaro 1996). Given this, it is natural to think of the distinction between HOT and HOP theories of consciousness as closely related to that between conceptual and non-conceptual self-consciousness.
An alternative to HOT and HOP theories that still maintains the ambition to reduce consciousness to self-consciousness is the self-representational view (Kriegel & Williford 2006; Kriegel 2009; Caston 2002), according to which a psychological state is conscious if and only if it represents itself. Such accounts are higher-order views that deny that the first and second-order states are distinct. As with both HOT and HOP, self-representationalism can be thought of as supporting the view that a form of self-consciousness is a necessary condition of consciousness. Kriegel (2003) dubs this “intransitive self-consciousness”, the phenomenon purportedly picked out by phrases of the form “I am self-consciously thinking that P”, and distinguishes it from the “transitive self-consciousness” purportedly picked out by phrases of the form “I am self-conscious of my thought that P”. This is a version of the distinction between reflective and pre-reflective self-consciousness discussed in §3.2 (and the views of Fichte and Sartre mentioned in §1; cf. Kapitan 1999). If conscious states are those that represent themselves then, it might be argued, consciousness entails intransitive self-consciousness, since one’s conscious states do not only represent themselves but also (in some way implicitly) represent oneself as having them (Kriegel 2003: 104).
Aristotle, considering a version of the HOP theory, argued that the view suffered from a regress problem since the higher-order perception must itself be conscious and so be accompanied by a HOP, which would itself be conscious, and so on (De Anima 3.2; Caston 2002). The standard way to diffuse such a worry is to deny that the higher order state, be it perception or thought, need be conscious. An alternative, of course, is to endorse a self-representational account. There are other objections to higher order views, however, each of which applies to one or more versions of the view. They include worries about the possibility of objectless and non-veridical higher order states (Byrne 1997; Block 2011), about whether it can account for the conscious states of infants and non-humans (Dretske 1995: ch. 4; Tye 1995: ch. 1), the complaint that the postulation of a distinct higher-order state for every conscious state leads to an unnecessarily “cluttered picture of the mind” (Chalmers 1996: 231), and the fundamental worry that no form of higher-order view has the resources to explain consciousness at all (Levine 2006; cf. Kriegel 2012). As such, higher-order and self-representational theories of consciousness, that posit a necessary connection between consciousness and self-consciousness, are far from being established.
If consciousness cannot be reduced to self-consciousness, perhaps the latter is nevertheless a necessary condition of the former. Some non-reductive views, already mentioned, see pre-reflective consciousness (see §3.2), or the sense of ownership (see §3.3) as necessary conditions of consciousness (see Zahavi 2005). A different non-reductive, and broadly Kantian, argument for the claim that self-consciousness is a necessary condition of consciousness first of all claims that conscious experience is necessarily unified and, second, that this unity of consciousness in turn depends on self-awareness. Of primary interest here is the second step which is articulated by Strawson in his discussion of Kant’s transcendental deduction as the claim that,
if different experiences are to belong to a single consciousness, there must be the possibility of self-consciousness on the part of the subject of those experiences. (P.F. Strawson 1966: 93; for discussion of Kant’s views of the matter, see Henrich 1989; Powell 1990; Brook 1994; Keller 1998; Kitcher 2011; Allison 2015; for detailed discussion of whether consciousness is necessarily unified, see Bayne 2010; see also entry on unity of consciousness).
One reason for supposing that there is a connection between self-consciousness and the unity of consciousness is given by Kant, who writes,
only because I can comprehend their manifold in a consciousness do I call them altogether my representations; for otherwise I would have as multi-coloured diverse a self as I have representations of which I am conscious. (Kant 1781/1787: B134)
That is, a single self must be able to “comprehend” its own experiences together, otherwise they would not really be its own. Such “comprehension” would seem to involve self-consciousness. As Kant famously puts it,
[t]he I think must be able to accompany all my representations for otherwise something would be represented in me that could not be thought at all, which is as much as to say that the representation would either be impossible or else at least would be nothing for me. (Kant 1781/1787: B131–132)
On this view, it is the unity of the self that guarantees that co-conscious experiences are jointly self-ascribable; that unity requires self-consciousness (there is a question as to whether self-consciousness is here supposed to explain the unity of consciousness; cf. Dainton’s strong and weak “I-thesis” (2000: §2.3)). This Kantian picture is associated with the claim that unified self-consciousness requires a conception of the world as objective; as transcending the perspective that one has on it. The idea here is that to self-ascribe an experience one must have some grasp of the distinction between one’s (subjective) experience that the (objective) condition of which it is an experience (these issues are explored in P.F. Strawson 1966; Bennett 1966; Evans 1980; Cassam 1997; Sacks 2000; also see Burge 2010: ch. 6).
The claim that the unity of consciousness requires self-consciousness can be criticised in a number of different ways. How one evaluates the claim will depend on whether one has conceptual or non-conceptual self-consciousness in mind. As Bayne (2004) points out, the claim that the unity of consciousness requires that one possess the concept of oneself seems, implausibly, to imply that conceptually unsophisticated infants and non-human animals could not possess a unified stream of consciousness (of course, this worry applies quite generally to views that connect consciousness with self-consciousness). The view that non-conceptual self-consciousness is a necessary condition of the unity of consciousness would appear to be vulnerable to the objection that it implausibly rules out the possibility of cases such as Anscombe’s (1975) subject in a sensory deprivation tank, a case in which the forms of experience typically classed as forms of non-conceptual self-consciousness are lacking (for related cases see Bayne 2004; also see G. Strawson 1999). A different worry about the connection between self-consciousness and the unity of consciousness is the “just more content” objection (B. Williams 1978: ch. 3; Hurley 1994; and 1998 Part I). The concern is addressed to the view that self-consciousness is not merely a necessary condition of the unity of consciousness but is that in virtue of which it is unified. For if the self-ascription of experiences is taken to be that which is responsible for the unity of consciousness, how can we account for the fact that the self-conscious thoughts are themselves unified with the first-order experiences that they supposedly unify? As Hurley puts it,
self-conscious or first-person contents […] are just more contents, to which the problem of co-consciousness [i.e., the unity of consciousness] also applies (1998: 61)
To appeal to the third-order self-ascription of the self-conscious thought would appear to invite a regress.
4.4 Self-Consciousness and Intersubjectivity
What is the connection between self-consciousness and the awareness of others? On some views self-consciousness requires awareness of others, on another view the awareness of others requires self-consciousness. In each case we can distinguish between those accounts according to which such awareness is merely an empirical condition from those according to which it is a strictly necessary/sufficient condition. There is also a distinction to be made regarding the sense of “awareness of others” that is in play: whilst some philosophers are concerned with knowledge of other minds, others are content with the representation of others, veridical or not.
A familiar account of our knowledge of others takes the form of an argument from analogy (Slote 1970: ch. 4; Avramides 2001: part I). The argument from analogy presents an account of our justification for moving from judgements about others’ observable behaviour to judgements about their unobservable mental states. I am aware from my own case that, say, wincing is the result of pain so, on seeing another’s wincing, I am justified in judging them to be in pain. On this picture, self-awareness, as manifest in the judgement about my own case, is a necessary condition of knowledge of other minds. In this respect the view is related to contemporary simulation theory, standard versions of which see our capacity to attribute mental states to others as dependent on our capacity to attribute them to ourselves (Heal 1986; Goldman 2006: ch. 9; for a simulationist theory that differs in this respect, see Gordon 1996). Associated with the argument from analogy is a view according to which our grasp of mental state concepts is an essentially first-personal affair. That is, we understand what, for example, pain is first from our own case (Nagel 1986: §2.3; Peacocke 2008: ch. 5–6; it has sometimes been claimed that this view gives rise to the conceptual problem of other minds, see Wittgenstein 1958: §302; McGinn 1984; Avramides 2001: part II).
In opposition to this package stand views on which our grasp and application of mental state concepts is neutral between the first and third-person cases. Theory theorists, for example, claim that we attribute mental states to both ourselves and others by means of a (tacitly held) psychological theory. They may also hold that possession of such a theory constitutes our grasp of mental state concepts (Carruthers 1996, 2011: ch. 8; Gopnik & Meltzoff 1997; for an account that combines elements of theory with elements of simulation, see Nichols & Stich 2003). While such views accord no priority to the first-person case, they may see a tight connection between self-consciousness and our capacity to think about others: these are simply two aspects of the more general capacity to think about the mind. A distinct, though related, family of views see both self-consciousness and awareness of others as emerging from a primitive “adualist” state in which self and other are not distinguished (Piaget 1937; Merleau-Ponty 1960; Barresi & Moore 1996; Hurley 2005; Gallese 2005; also see D. Stern 1985: part II). Against such “adualist” views, it is often claimed the phenomena of neonate imitation, joint attention, and emotion regulation show that infants display an awareness of others as others from the very beginning of life (Meltzoff & Moore 1977; Trevarthen 1979; Hurley & Chater 2005; Eilan et al. 2005; Legerstee 2005; Reddy 2008). One empirical proposal is that it is from this early form of social interaction and capacity to understand others that self-consciousness emerges as a self-directed form of mindreading (Carruthers 2011; Carruthers, Fletcher, & Ritchie 2012; for an early such account, see Mead 1934). On such a view the first-person case is treated as secondary, reversing the traditional picture associated with the argument from analogy.
A more ambitious version of this approach to the relationship between self-consciousness and awareness of others, prioritizing the awareness of others, is to argue that knowledge of other minds is a necessary condition of the possibility of self-consciousness. Well known examples of such arguments can be found in the work of P.F. Strawson (1959: ch. 3) and Davidson (1991; for the related Hegelian view that various forms of self-consciousness depend on intersubjective recognition, see Honneth 1995). Since knowledge of other minds is typically considered to be open to sceptical doubt, and self-consciousness is not, such lines of reasoning are transcendental arguments and so potentially open to general criticisms of that form of argument (Stroud 1968; R. Stern 1999, 2000). Strawson’s argument hinges on his claim that
the idea of a predicate is correlative with that of a range of distinguishable individuals of which the predicate can be significantly, though not necessarily truly, affirmed. (P.F. Strawson 1959: 99; cf. Evans’ generality constraint, 1982: §4.3)
This means, Strawson claims, that one can only ascribe mental states to oneself if one is capable of ascribing them to others which, in turn, means that I cannot have gained the capacity to think of others’ mental states by means of an analogical reasoning from my own case. This, Strawson argues, shows that others’ observable behaviour is not a “sign” of their mentality, but is a “criterion” of it. In short, we must have knowledge of others' minds if we are self-conscious (for the full argument, see P.F. Strawson 1959: 105ff; for critical discussion, see R. Stern 2000: ch. 6; Sacks 2005; Joel Smith 2011).
Davidson’s transcendental argument—the triangulation argument—connects self-consciousness, knowledge of other minds, and knowledge of the external world. At its heart is the claim that for my thoughts to have determinate content there must exist another subject who is able to interpret me. As Davidson puts it,
it takes two points of view to give a location to the cause of a thought, and thus to define its content […] Until a base line has been established by communication with someone else, there is no point in saying one’s own thoughts or words have a propositional content. (Davidson 1991: 212–213)
Since self-conscious subjects are aware of the contents of their thoughts, they must know that there are other minds, since the sort of intersubjective externalism that Davidson endorses guarantees it. Self-knowledge, on this view, entails knowledge of others (for discussion, see R. Stern 2000: ch. 6; Sosa 2003; Ludwig 2011).
5. Self-Consciousness in Infants and Non-Human Animals
At what age can human infants be credited with self-consciousness? Is self-consciousness present beyond homo sapiens? Some theorists, for example Bermúdez (1998), claim that various forms of perceptual experience constitute a non-conceptual form of self-consciousness (see §3). Others, for example Rosenthal (2005), claim that phenomenal consciousness entails self-consciousness. If either view is correct then self-consciousness, of some kind, can plausibly be attributed to creatures other than adult humans. But when it comes to more sophisticated forms of self-awareness, matters are less clear. What is required is some empirical criterion for judging a creature self-conscious even if, as with infants and non-human animals, they are unable to provide evidence via their use of the first-person pronoun. Such evidence, if available, may reasonably be thought to shed light on both the phylogenetic and ontogenetic development of self-consciousness (Ferrari & Sternberg 1998; Terrace & Metcalfe 2005; see the entries on animal consciousness and animal cognition).
5.1 Mirror Recognition
It has sometimes been claimed, most forcefully by Gallup and colleagues, that the capacity to recognise oneself in the mirror is a marker of self-consciousness (Gallup 1970; Gallup, Anderson, & Platek 2011; Gallup, Platek, & Spaulding 2014). It is easy to see why this might seem to be so since, if first-person thought involves thinking about oneself as oneself, then it is natural to suppose that a capacity to recognise that a subject seen in a mirror is oneself involves such a thought. In Evans’s (1982) terminology such thoughts involve an “identification component”.
Gallup (1970) devised a test for mirror self-recognition: surreptitiously placing a red mark on a subject’s forehead before exposure to a mirror, then observing whether they touch the relevant spot. It is well established that chimpanzees pass the mirror test while other primate species fail (Anderson & Gallup 2011). It has also been claimed that dolphins and some elephants pass the test (Reiss & Marino 2001; Plotnik et. al. 2006). With respect to human infants, the consensus is that success in the mirror test begins at around 15 to 18 months of age, and that by 24 months most children pass (Amsterdam 1972; M. Lewis & Brooks-Gunn 1979; Nielsen, Suddendorf, & Slaughter 2006).
It is not universally accepted, however, that success in the mirror test is an indication of self-consciousness. For example, Heyes (1994) presents an influential critique of the claim that it is a marker of self-awareness, arguing that all that is required for success is that subjects be able to distinguish between novel ways of receiving bodily feedback in order to guide behaviour, on the one hand, and other forms of incoming sensory data, on the other. Such a view, however, needs to explain why it is that passing the mirror test seems to be connected with the phenomena arguably associated with self-consciousness, such as experiencing shame and embarrassment (M. Lewis 2011). There remains, then, significant controversy concerning what success in the mirror test really shows, and so whether it can shed light on the development of self-awareness (see, for example, Mitchell 1993; Suddendorf & Butler 2013; Gallup, Platek, & Spaulding 2014. For related philosophical discussion, see Rochat & Zahavi 2011; Peacocke 2014: ch.8).
5.2 Episodic Memory
Another potential marker of self-consciousness is episodic memory, the capacity that we have to recollect particular episodes from our own past experience (see Tulving 1983; Michaelian 2016; entry on memory). As Tulving describes it, episodic memory involves “autonoesis” or “mental time-travel”, the experience of transporting oneself in time (which also has a future oriented dimension in expectation, planning, and so on; see Michaelian, Klein, & Szpunar 2016). The connection between memory and self-consciousness is one that is often made (see §2.3, §3, and §4.1). If it is correct that episodic memory essentially involves a form of self-consciousness, and we are able to test for the presence of episodic memory in non-linguistic infants and animals, then we have a way of detecting the presence of self-conscious abilities. Since, however, episodic memory is not the only form of self-consciousness, the lack of it does not indicate that a creature is not self-aware. Indeed, the much discussed case of K.C. seems to be one in which, due to an accident, someone has lost episodic memory but appears to remain otherwise self-conscious (see Rosenbaum et. al. 2005).
Tulving himself argues that only humans possess episodic memory, and only when they reach the age of around 4 years (2005; also see Suddendorf & Corballis 2007). Whilst human infants and non-human animals possess non-episodic forms of memory such as semantic memory (remembering that such and such is the case), they lack the “autonoetic” consciousness of themselves projected either back or forwards in time. For example whilst most 3 year old infants can remember presented information, most are unreliable when it comes to the question of how they know—did they see it, hear it, etc. (Gopnik & Graf 1988). The suggestion here is that the development of the reliable capacity to report how they know some fact reflects the development of the capacity to episodically remember the learning event.
In the case of animals perhaps the most suggestive evidence of episodic memory derives from work on scrub-jays, who can retain information about what food has been stored, where it was stored, and when (Clayton, Bussey, & Dickinson 2003). This evidence coheres with the “what, where, when” criterion of episodic memory originally proposed by Tulving (1972). It is, however, widely accepted that this content-based account of episodic memory—episodic memory is memory that contains information about what happened, where it happened, and when—is inadequate, since non-episodic, semantic memory often involves the retention of “what, where, when” information. Due to the difficulties in finding a behavioural test for “autonoetic” consciousness, it is often, though not universally, claimed that there is no compelling evidence for episodic memory, and thus this particular form of self-consciousness, in non-human animals (Tulving 2005; Suddendorf & Corballis 2007; Michaelian 2016: ch. 2; for discussion relating to apes, see Menzel 2005; Schwartz 2005; for an alternative perspective suggesting that episodic memory abilities come in degree, see Breeden et. al. 2016).
Another body of research pertaining to the question of self-consciousness in infants and non-human animals is the work on metacognition (and metamemory). The term “metacognition” typically refers to the capacity to monitor and control one’s own cognitive states, and is manifest in one’s judgements (or feelings) concerning one’s own learning and consequent level of certainty or confidence (J.D. Smith 2009; Beran et al. 2012; Proust 2013; Fleming & Frith 2014). The suggestion is that if a creature is able to monitor their own level of confidence, they are to that extent self-conscious. One common paradigm for testing metacognitive abilities involves presenting subjects with a stimulus that they must categorise in one of two ways. Crucially, they are also given the opportunity to opt out of the test, with correct categorisation resulting in the highest reward, opting out resulting in a lower reward, and incorrect categorisation resulting in no reward. The assumption is that the opt-out response reflects a meta-cognitive judgement of uncertainty. Evidence gathered from such a paradigm has been taken to show metacognitive abilities in some birds (Fujita et. al. 2012), dolphins (J.D. Smith et. al. 1995), primates (Shields et. al. 1997), and children from the age of around 4 years (Sodian et. al. 2012).
The view that success on metacognitive opt-out tests is indicative of self-consciousness is not uncontroversial, however. For example, it has been suggested that the uncertainty response is indicative not of metacognitive uncertainty monitoring but rather of first-order, environmental judgements concerning a third category between the intended two (Kornell, Son, & Terrace 2007; Hampton 2009; also see Carruthers 2008; Kornell 2014; Musholt 2015: ch. 7). On such an interpretation, the research on metacognition does not provide compelling evidence regarding self-consciousness in infants and non-human animals (but for critical discussion see J.D. Smith 2005; J.D. Smith, Couchman, & Beran 2014; also relevant is the distinction between “evaluativist” and “attributivist” accounts of metacognition outlined by Proust (2013)). The question of the significance of opt-out tests for attributions of self-consciousness remains controversial.
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