CHAPTER 1 NTRODUCTION TO STATICS Engineering Mechanics Engineering mechanics is the application of mechanics to solve problems involving common engineering elements. The goal of this Engineering Mechanics course is to expose students to problems in mechanics as applied to plausibly real-world scenarios. Problems of particular types are explored in detail in the hopes that students will gain an inductive understanding of the underlying principles at work; students should then be able to recognize problems of this sort in realworld situations and respond accordingly. Fundamental Properties of Vectors Knowledge of vectors is a prerequisite for the study of statics. A scalar is a quantity that has magnitude only. e.g temperature, time, speed A vector is a quantity that possesses magnitude and direction and obeys the parallelogram law for addition. e.g force, velocity, displacement The algebraic notation used for a scalar quantity must, of course, be different from that used for a vector quantity. In this text, we adopt the following conventions: (1) scalars are written as italicized English or Greek letters—for example, t for time and θ for angle; (2) vectors are written as boldface letters—for example, F for force; and (3) the magnitude of a vector A is denoted as |A| or simply as A (italic). There is no universal method for indicating vector quantities when writing by hand. The more common notations are by writing the vector (A) with an arrow head above the letter. Equality of Vectors Two vectors A and B are said to be equal, written as A = B, if (1) their magnitudes are equal—that is, A = B, and (2) they have the same direction. Unit Vectors A unit vector is a dimensionless vector with magnitude 1. Therefore, if λ represents a unit vector (|λ| = 1) with the same direction as A, we can write A= Aλ Addition of Vectors The Parallelogram Law and Triangle Law • Addition is commutative: E + F = F + E • Addition is associative: E + (F + G) = (E + F) + G Subtraction of Vectors The subtraction of two vectors A and B, written as A − B, is defined as A − B = A + (−B). Statics of Rigid Bodies 3 Example 1.1 Two forces are applied to an eye bolt fastened to a beam. Determine graphically the magnitude and direction of their resultant using (a) the parallelogram law, (b) the triangle rule. Example 1.2 Two forces are applied as shown to a hook support. Using trigonometry and knowing that the magnitude of P is 14 lb, determine (a) the required angle if the resultant R of the two forces applied to the support is to be horizontal, (b) the corresponding magnitude of R. Statics of Rigid Bodies 4 Representation of Vectors: Rectangular Components Rectangular Components If a vector A is resolved into its rectangular component it can be written as A = Ax i + Ay j + Azk where Ax i, Ay j, and Azk are the vector components of A. The scalar components of A are Ax = A cos θx Ay = A cos θy Az = A cos θz The magnitude of A is related to its scalar components by Vector addition using rectangular coomponents Consider the two vectors A= Ax i+ Ay j+ Azk and B= Bx i+ By j+ Bzk. LettingC be the sum of A and B, we have C=A + B=(Ax i + Ay j + Azk) + (Bx i + By j + Bzk) which can be written as C = Cx i + Cy j + Czk = (Ax + Bx )i + (Ay + By)j + (Az + Bz)k Cx = Ax + Bx Cy = Ay + By Cz = Az + Bz Relative Position Vectors AB=(xB − xA)i + (yB − yA)j + (zB − z A)k Statics of Rigid Bodies 5 How to write a vector in rectangular form 1. 2. 3. Write the relative position vector AB.). Evaluate the unit vector λ . Write F in the rectangular form F = Fλ = F(λx i + λy j + λzk) Example 1.3 The slider travels along the guide rod AB with the velocity v = 6 m/s. Determine the rectangular representations of (a) the unit vector directed from A toward B; and (b) the velocity vector v. Example 1.4 Find the magnitude and direction of the resultant of the two forces shown knowing that P = 600 N and Q=400 N. Statics of Rigid Bodies 6 Vector Multiplication a. Dot (Scalar) Product Properties The dot product is commutative: A· B=B·A The dot product is distributive: A· (B + C)=A· B + A·C Identities i · i = j · j=k · k=1 i · j = j · k=k · i=0 Finding the Angle Between Two Vectors cos Ѳ = λA ·λB Determining the Orthogonal Component of a Vector in a Given Direction B cos θ =B·λA b. Cross (vector) product The cross product C of two vectors A and B, denoted by C=A × B has the following characteristics a. b. c. The magnitude of C is C = AB sin θ C is perpendicular to both A and B. The sense of C is determined by the right-hand rule, which states that thefingers of your right hand are curled in the direction of the angle θ (directed from A toward B), your thumb points in the direction of C. when Statics of Rigid Bodies 7 Properties A × (B + C) = (A × B) + (A × C) A × (B × C) = (A × B) × C A×B=B×A Identities i × i =0 j× j=0 k× k=0 i × j =k j× k=i k× i=j A × B= (Ax i + Ay j + Azk) × (Bx i + By j + Bzk) which is identical to determinants, c. Scalar Triple Product A × B·C = (Ay Bz − Az By) i − (Ax Bz − Az Bx )j + (Ax By − Ay Bx )k .(Cx i + Cy j + Czk) A × B·C=(Ay Bz − Az By)Cx − (Ax Bz − Az Bx )Cy+ (Ax By − Ay Bx )Cz which is identical to determinants Example 1.5 Compute the orthogonal component of F=6i + 20j − 12k lb in the direction of the vector A=2i − 3j + 5k ft. Example 1.6 The force F has a magnitude of 2 kN and is directed from A to B. Calculate the projection of F onto line CD and determine the angle between F and CD. Statics of Rigid Bodies 8 Example 1.7 Resolve A = 3i + 5j − 4k in. into two vector components—one parallel to and the other perpendicular to B = 6i + 2k in. Express each of your answers as a magnitude multiplied by a unit vector. Review Problems 1. A force is specified by the vector F = 120i + 160j + 80k lb. Calculate the angles made by F with the positive x-, y-, and zaxes. 2. Determine the angle between pipe segments BA and BC. Statics of Rigid Bodies 9 3. The turnbuckle is tightened until the tension in the cable AB equals 2.4 kN. Determine the vector expression for the tension T as a force acting on member AD. Also find the magnitude of the projection of T along the line AC. 4. Determine the angle between the 200-lb force and line OC. 5. The rectangular plate is supported by hinges along its side BC and by the cable AE. If the cable tension is 300 N, determine the projection onto line BC of the force exerted on the plate by the cable. Note that E is the midpoint of the horizontal upper edge of the structural support. Statics of Rigid Bodies 10