#### Supplement to Rudolf Carnap

## C. Inductive Logic

From 1942 until his death in 1970, Carnap devoted the bulk of his time
and energy to the development of a new form of inductive logic.
Carnap’s motivations in following this new direction so late in
his career are discussed in the
main entry (Section 8.2);
the bifurcation of the explication of the concept of probability into
the two concepts probability_{1} (epistemic probability) and
probability_{2} (statistical probability understood as
long-run relative frequency) is taken as a prime example of
explication in the supplement on
Methodology (Section 1).
Carnap’s own focus was entirely on probability_{1}, in
that classification.

Unlike probability_{2}, which is an empirical matter (as in
“the relative frequency of lung cancer patients amongst male
Germans under 30 is…”), confirmation or
probability_{1} is *framework-relative* for Carnap. In
particular, when a confirmation measure *P* is uniquely
determined by a framework, then either “\(P(H \mid E) =
r\)” is analytically true or “\(P(H \mid E) \neq
r\)” is analytically true in the framework (see Carnap 1950b:
34). Just as he defines linguistic frameworks as supplying deductive
logical rules that are partially constitutive of these frameworks (see
the
main entry (Section 1.2)),
in his work on confirmation beginning in the 1940s, Carnap constructs
yet more comprehensive frameworks which come equipped also with rules
of *inductive* logic. These inductive rules are meant to be
continuous with the deductive ones: e.g., logical truths, or analytic
sentences in the object language of a framework more generally, are to
be assigned the maximal value of (absolute) confirmation 1 whatever
the evidence (see supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories (Sections 1 and 5)).
That is because these statements are given by—and partially
constitutive of—the framework, which is why they could not be
*dis*confirmed under the very same framework. This
methodological status of what one might call
“relative-aprioricity” (in the sense of Friedman 1999),
which frameworks possess in Carnap’s reconstructions of science
(see supplement on
Carnap versus Quine on the Analytic-Synthetic Distinction),
carries over to a framework’s confirmation measures which make
the empirical confirmation or disconfirmation of synthetic sentences
in the framework possible in the first place. (As Carnap says in
§2 of “Empiricism, Semantics and Ontology” (1950a)
accepting a linguistic framework also means “to accept
rules… for testing, accepting, or rejecting” its
statements, all of which concern applications of the concept of
confirmation.) The same holds for inductive inference, which for
Carnap is nothing but the determination of a degree of
confirmation.

For this reason, confirmation measures as determined by a Carnapian
framework should not be wholly identified with modern Bayesian
subjective degree-of-belief functions. From Carnap’s point of
view, rather, a scientist’s personal degree-of belief function
would be rationally reconstructed as resulting from *updating*
a framework’s confirmation measure by evidence *E*, where
the framework is *a priori relative to* the scientist’s
theory (again in Friedman’s [1999] sense), and where *E* is
the *total* relevant evidence available to the scientist or her
scientific community at the time. (See Carnap (1950b: 211 and 214) for
the corresponding statement of his famous “Requirement of Total
Evidence”, which Carnap regards as belonging to the methodology
of induction.) It is really \(P(H \mid E)\) that serves as an
agent’s fair betting quotient at the time at which *E* is
the total relevant evidence for that agent. Brössel (2012) argued
that the relative-aprioricity interpretation of Carnapian confirmation
measures also points to a way out of Glymour’s 1980 well-known
“Old Evidence Problem” which threatens standard Bayesian
accounts of confirmation: the problem is that “old
evidence” *E*, the subjective probability \(P(E)\) of which
is 1 or close to 1, could no longer confirm a hypothesis *H*,
since \(P(H \mid E)\) and \(P(H)\) would be identical or at least
approximately equal as given by the subjective probability measure
*P*. In contrast, if a scientist working in a framework relies on
an “initial” framework-relative confirmation measure
*P* in order to determine degrees of confirmation, then *E*
may count as confirming evidence even when *E* is already
available to her, since the “initial” framework-relative
probability \(P(E)\) will normally be far from 1.

This said, many of the standard features of the Bayesian
interpretation of probability can already be found in the *Logical
Foundations*, and they do apply to confirmation measures once they
have been updated by evidence: e.g., Carnap uses the interpretation of
probabilities as fair betting quotients in order to justify the axioms
of probability (LFP: 165); he maintains rational practical decisions
to be based on estimates of frequencies (not on frequencies
themselves, which would be probability_{2}, LFP: 250) on which
we rely when we decide rationally about actions by maximizing their
estimated utilities (p.260); and in §104 he proves that
(averaged) degrees of confirmation coincide with estimated relative
truth frequencies, anticipating, to some extent, modern epistemic
justifications for Bayesianism (as in Joyce 1998 and Pettigrew 2016).
For Carnap, inductive logic does not just serve science but also
constitutes “a guide to life” (LFP: 161, 247), in line
with the pragmatic tradition in the Bayesian literature (e.g., Jeffrey
1965, 1992). Accordingly, in his later work, logical probability
functions are also considered as “rational credibility
functions” (Carnap 1963b: 971), though not as personal
*credence* functions; we will return to this issue at the end
of this section. Carnap is also very explicit that if personal belief
is to be rationally reconstructed, this should be done
probabilistically on a numerical scale, rather than in terms of
all-or-nothing acceptance on a classificatory scale: see “On
Rules of Acceptance” (Carnap 1968b). (On page 256 of *Logical
Foundations* he also gives what might be the first statement of a
variant of the Lottery Paradox, which became so prominent later
through Kyburg (1961). However, Carnap’s version of the lottery
does not focus on the alleged closure of all-or-nothing acceptance
under conjunction, but on the questionable consequences of acting as
if highly likely statements were known for certain.)

More appropriately, both older (e.g., Jaynes 1968) and recent (e.g.,
Jon Williamson 2010) proponents of *objective* Bayesianism
share Carnap’s focus on *prior* or “initial”
probabilities on which evidence ought to have “objective”
impact, which is why Carnap’s take on probabilistic confirmation
may well be called an “objective Bayesian” one (though in
some ways perhaps becoming more subjectively Bayesian in his later
work on the topic—though see Sznajder 2016, 2018).

Similarly, Carnapian probability measures are closely related to David
Lewis’s (1980) “initial” credence functions of
agents at the beginning of their epistemic lives before any learning
has taken place (except that Carnap would only use such a
psychological description as a pedagogical device by which the logical
set-up could be explained more easily). For the same reason, Carnapian
probability measures also resemble Timothy Williamson’s (1998)
“initial” probability measure *P* which Williamson
takes to measure “something like the intrinsic plausibility of
hypotheses prior to investigation” (1998: 91). Indeed, both
Lewis and Williamson cite Carnap early in their papers. This said,
Lewis (1980: 263) rejects any logical or objective connotations of the
term “initial” when he states that

Carnap… did well to distinguish two concepts of probability… I do not think Carnap, chose quite the right two concepts, however. In place of his [Carnap’s] “degree of confirmation”, I would put

credenceordegree of belief; in place of his “relative frequency in the long run”, I would putchance.

Just as Lewis is interested in so-called reflection principles for
subjective probability and objective chance, Carnap (1950b) is
interested in reflection principles according to which
probability_{1} is an estimate of
probability_{2}—compare page 173 of the *Logical
Foundations*. Unlike Carnap’s theory of
probability_{1}, Lewis does not expand on the theory of
“initial” probabilities in any detail. Williamson (1998:
91) distinguishes his project from Carnap’s by stating that, in
contrast with Carnap’s view, “*P* is *not*
assumed to be syntactically definable”. Williamson himself does
not say much about “initial” probabilities, and his
criticism of Carnap’s account is a bit misleading: Carnap indeed
defines, in purely syntactic terms, a uniquely determined confirmation
measure in the Appendix of the *Logical Foundations of
Probability*; see below. However, in the main parts of the
*Logical Foundations*, as well as in his later work, he states
only *axiomatic constraints* on what Williamson would call
“initial” confirmation measures; and, typically, these
constraints are expressed in *semantic* rather than syntactic
terms.

Last but certainly not least, by tying confirmation to linguistic
frameworks that are (partially) defined logically and semantically,
Carnapian confirmation measures may be regarded as *logical* or
*semantic* probability measures. (See §8 of *Logical
Foundations* on “The Semantical Concepts of
Confirmation”; as far as the modern literature is concerned,
compare Roeper & Leblanc 1999.) Indeed, much like Keynes (1921)
before him, Carnap (1950b: 206) suggests that conditional degrees of
confirmation may be regarded as numerical measures for
*partial* logical implication, that is, partial preservation of
truth. Even more importantly, Carnapian “initial”
framework-relative confirmation measures are logical in a similar
sense as logical concepts in deductive logic are (see supplements on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories (Section 6)
and
*Aufbau* (Section 2)
for Carnap’s account of logical concepts and his structuralist
applications of logical concepts): as we will explain now in more
detail, they are *invariant under isomorphism*. (Maher 2010
argues that Carnapian probability measure are logical in the sense of
being definable by purely mathematical means: but that is only a
necessary condition, as one can define purely mathematically
probability measures that are not isomorphism-invariant.)

In the *Logical Foundations*, Carnap considers confirmation
measures that assign probabilistic degrees of confirmations to
sentences in a formal first-order language. (In his later work
(1971a,b, 1980) he would follow the more standard mathematical
treatment of probability by assigning probabilities to members of a
set-theoretic algebra of events or propositions; sentences in a formal
language would then be interpreted to *express* set-theoretic
events or propositions in such an algebra.) The predicates of any such
language come with an intended qualitative and observational
interpretation; Carnap does not treat theoretical terms in his
probabilistic work (although in an interview from 1964 he regards this
as an important step to be taken in the future: see Carnap 1964). In
the Appendix to the *Logical Foundations*, he restricts these
predicates furthermore to unary ones, but otherwise in the *Logical
Foundations* he is also interested in the more general
*n*-ary case. Next to individual variables, the vocabulary of any
such language includes individual constants \(a_1\), \(a_2\),…
as singular terms, such that two distinct constants are presumed to
denote distinct objects “by logic”. (Thus, identity
statements between syntactically distinct constants are regarded as
*logically* false; the same convention was used in Carnap
(1946, 1947)—compare the supplement on
Semantics.)
One may think of the denotations of these individual constants to be
fixed from the start, which, however, does not mean that an agent
whose hypotheses are assigned degrees of confirmation needs to be
aware what the constants refer to. Carnap considers languages with
finitely many, say, *N* of these individual constants (languages
\(L_N)\), and a language with infinitely many of them (the language
\(L_{\infty})\). The logical connectives and quantifiers are the
standard ones, where quantification is understood as substitutional;
e.g., universal quantification in \(L_{\infty}\) corresponds to an
infinite conjunction involving all substitution instances by arbitrary
individual constants. Ultimately, Carnap will require the
probabilities for quantified sentences in \(L_{\infty}\) to be given
by limits of probabilities of sentences in \(L_N\) when *N* goes
to infinity, which has the consequence that a universally quantified
sentence may receive a probability of 0 (see, e.g., LFP: 571) even
when it may be the logical reconstruction of an empirical law
hypotheses to which a physicist might want to assign a positive
subjective probability: this is one of the problems with
Carnap’s account. (See Popper 1935 [1959: §80] and Earman
1992. Later, Hintikka 1966, Kuipers 1978, and Hintikka &
Niiniluoto 1980 suggested ways in which this problem could be avoided.
Carnap himself circumvents the problem by explaining the confirmation
of a universal law in terms of the confirmation of the
“next” so far unobserved *single case instance*:
see LFP: 571–575. Our discussion here will bracket this issue
and focus on the languages \(L_N\) and their finitely many constants.)
The semantics of these languages is developed just as in *Meaning
and Necessity* (see the supplement on
Semantics):
so-called state-descriptions, which are consistent and complete sets
of either atomic sentences or negations of atomic sentences (for
\(L_{\infty}\)), or the corresponding conjunctions of atomic sentences
and negations of atomic sentences (for \(L_N\)), serve as possible
worlds at which sentences can be evaluated. On the same basis,
intensions may be assigned to various types of expressions in these
languages, and truth can be defined by exploiting the actual
(intended) interpretation of singular terms and predicates.

For instance: let us assume \(L_4\) to be given by precisely one unary
predicate *B* and four individual constants *a*, *b*,
*c*, *d*. Then there are precisely 16
state-descriptions:

(More generally, Carnap discusses conjunctions in which each of finitely many individual constants are assigned exactly one formula out of a finite logical partition or “division” of formulas as “individual distributions”: the idea being that individuals are distributed over pairwise logically exclusive and overall logically exhaustive open formulas in one and the same free variable. See LFP: 111.)

With this all set up, Carnap’s
first—unsurprising—adequacy condition on confirmation
measures is that they satisfy the axioms of probability (LFP:
§53). These axioms are formulated for *conditional*
probability measures, which are not defined in terms of absolute or
unconditional probability measures; however, it follows from
Carnap’s axioms that when *T* is a logical tautology and
the ratio \(P(H \amp E \mid T) / P(E \mid T)\) is defined, the
conditional probability \(P(H \mid E)\) must equal this ratio; and
probabilities conditional on *T* may be identified with
*unconditional* probabilities. Primitive conditional
probability measures had already been studied axiomatically a decade
earlier by Janina Hosiasson-Lindenbaum (1940). (See Makinson 2011 for
a systematic and historical survey of primitive conditional
probability measures.) Amongst others, in the case of \(L_N\), the
probability of a sentence is thereby required to be identical with the
sum of probabilities of the (finitely many) state-descriptions at
which it is satisfied, and the sum of the probabilities of all
state-descriptions is postulated to be 1.

For instance, in our above example, it follows from this that

\[ \begin{align} P(B(a)\lor B(b)) = & P(B(a) \amp B(b) \amp B(c) \amp B(d)) \\ & + P(B(a) \amp B(b) \amp B(c) \amp \neg B(d))\\ & + P(B(a) \amp B(b) \amp \neg B(c) \amp B(d)) \\ & + P(B(a) \amp B(b) \amp \neg B(c) \amp \neg B(d)) \end{align} \]
In Chapter V of the *Logical Foundations*, Carnap adds
*regularity* as another constraint on adequate confirmation
measures: *every state-description is assigned a positive real
number* (between 0 and 1). (Again, we are focusing here only on
the finite languages \(L_N\).) Since any such *P* is intended to
be an “initial” probability measure, this corresponds to
the requirement that no logical possibility is excluded *a
priori* (in the given framework). In our example, this implies
that, e.g., \(P(B(a)\lor B(b)) \gt 0\), since

(and also \(P(B(a) \amp B(b) \amp B(c) \amp \neg B(d)) \gt 0\), and so on). However, as Carnap says,

A theory which holds for all regular c-functions [confirmation functions]… is very weak… Our task will be to construct the rest of inductive logic by narrowing the class of c-functions and finally selecting one of them. (LFP: 337}

This “narrowing” refers to the symmetry or structurality
requirement that Carnap introduces in Chapter VIII, to which we will
turn now. (The “selecting one of them” refers to the
Appendix of the *Logical Foundations*, which we will discuss
below). In 1924 the British philosopher W. E. Johnson had introduced
and studied the same requirement under the name “permutation
postulate” (see Zabell 2005). Carnap had read the relevant
passage in Johnson’s book and even taken notes on it, but had
evidently forgotten this by the late 1940s (just as he forgot that he
had read—and underlined—the passage in Ramsey where the
“Ramsification” of the theoretical components of theories
was propounded, and at first thought he had discovered the idea
himself; see Psillos 2000: 153, footnote 7).

Here is the basic thought: Carnap calls any bijective mapping between the individual constants of one of the object languages \(L_N\) or \(L_{\infty}\) a “correlation”. Each correlation induces a corresponding mapping on formulas by replacing the constants in a formula by their correlated constants. Finally, formulas are defined as isomorphic if one can be transformed into one another by a correlation.

For instance, in the example above, the state-description

\[\neg B(a) \amp B(b) \amp \neg B(c) \amp B(d)\]is isomorphic to the state-description

\[\neg B(a) \amp B(b) \amp B(c) \amp \neg B(d)\]
in virtue of correlating *a* with itself, *b* with itself,
*c* with *d*, and *d* with *c*. As is easy to see,
*being isomorphic to* determines an equivalence relation on
state-descriptions, which, in our example, yields the following five
equivalence classes:

Since each such equivalence class abstracts from the identity of individuals and merely concerns state-descriptions up to isomorphism, Carnap refers to the disjunction of the state-descriptions within one equivalence class as a “structure-description” (LFP: 116). Hence, e.g., this is the structure-description corresponding to the second of the above equivalence classes:

\[ \begin{array}{r@{}c@{}r@{}c@{}r@{}c@{}r} (\neg B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& \neg B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& \neg B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& \neg B(d)), \end{array} \]
More generally, relative to finitely many given individual constants
and an arbitrary finite logical partition or
“distribution” of formulas, Carnap also refers to the
analogous disjunctions as “statistical distributions”,
which captures the idea that they are concerned only with how
*many* individuals belong to which *kind*; see LFP: 111.
For instance, the structure-description above is characterized by
*precisely one* individual being \(\neg B\) and *the other
three* individuals being *B*. Carnap formalizes this by
assigning so-called *Q*-numbers to state-descriptions to the
effect that isomorphic state-descriptions have the same numbers, and
he studies the combinatorial properties of structure-descriptions by
means of these numbers.

The upshot of these preparations is that Carnap requires adequate
confirmation measures (on \(L_N\) again) to be *symmetrical*:
*they assign the same probability to isomorphic
state-descriptions*, that is, to the members of each of the above
equivalence classes. (Symmetry on \(L_{\infty}\) is formulated in
terms of limits of confirmation for *N* going to infinity again.)
As Carnap (1971a: 119) comments later, symmetry is only to be
postulated where “individual constants have the same logical
nature”, unlike, e.g., Carnap’s so-called coordinate
languages in which individual constants track an underlying
mathematical structure (see the supplements on
*Logical Syntax of Language*
and
on semantics),
or in whatever other cases in which a language is set up for objects
of which some distinctive properties are already known and for which
symmetry therefore would be implausible to assume.

For instance, in the above example, whatever the conditional
probabilities \(P(B(c) \mid B(a) \amp B(b))\) and \(P(B(d) \mid B(a)
\amp B(b))\) may be numerically, the symmetry postulate entails them
to be *identical*, since any two state-descriptions in which
*c* and *d* swap roles are assigned the same probability.
(Carnap uses this same example in the quotation below.) Inductive
logic is just as *structural*, or, indeed, *logical*, as
deductive logic (in the following quotations we replace Carnap’s
symbols by ours):

Suppose

Xhas found by observation that the individualsaandbareB; the individuals may be physical objects andBmay be an observable property. LetEbe the sentence expressing these results: ‘\(B(a) \amp B(b)\)’.Xconsiders two hypothesesHand \(H'\);His the prediction that another objectcis likewiseB(‘\(B(c)\)’), and \(H'\) says the same for still another objectd(‘\(B(d)\)’). IfXhas chosen a conceptPof degree of confirmation, he will ascribe a certain value to \(P(H \mid E)\). We cannot determine this value generally because it depends upon the choice ofP. Different functionsP, even if each of them appears as not implausible, may yield different numerical values for the given case. However, we shall expect that ifXascribes a certain value to \(P(H \mid E)\), no matter which value this may be, he will ascribe the same value to \(P(H'\mid E)\). We should find it entirely implausible if he were to ascribe different values here; that is to say, we should not regard such a functionPas an adequate explicatum [of confirmation]. The reason is that the logical relation betweenEandHis just the same as that betweenEand \(H'\). Although the individualscanddmay, of course, be very different in their empirical properties, their logical status cannot be different. The evidenceEdoes not say anything about eithercord; therefore, ifeis all the relevant evidence available toX, he has no rational reasons to expectHmore than \(H'\) or vice versa… To put it in very general terms, we require that logic should not discriminate between the individuals but treat all of them on a par… This is never questioned in deductive logic, although it is seldom stated explicitly. For example, since ‘\(B(c)\)’ L-implies [i.e., logically implies] ‘\(B(c) \lor B(a)\)’, ‘\(B(d)\)’ L-implies ‘\(B(d) \lor B(a)\)’. This important character of deductive logic is stated in general terms in the theorem of the invariance of the L-concepts [i.e., logical concepts] (T-26-2). What we require here is that inductive logic should have the same character. (Carnap 1950b: 484f)

The “T-26-2” reference is to a theorem in the preparatory
deductive logic part of the *Logical Foundations* in which
Carnap proves that isomorphic sentences share the usual
*meta*logical features (e.g., logical truth): although what
Carnap says there does not concern logical concepts in Tarski’s
(1986) object-linguistic sense (such as *negation*,
*existential quantification*, and the like), in the same
section he also states that “These invariances in deductive
logic have so far been studied only rarely” and cites Lindenbaum
and Tarski (1936) and Mautner (1946) as the only examples of such
studies. The Lindenbaum and Tarski paper acknowledges Carnap’s
own work on invariances during the late 1920s, in association with his
“general axiomatics” project (see the
main entry (Section 2.3, last paragraph)
and supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories (Section 6)).
And Mautner’s paper, entitled “An Extension of
Klein’s Erlanger Program: Logic as Invariant-Theory”
(1946), relates logic to Klein’s famous Erlanger program for
geometry, just as Tarski’s (1986) well-known proposal later
would.

As Carnap also argues, probability theorists have often
*tacitly* presupposed the requirement of symmetry in their
statistical work:values of symmetrical *P*-functions are
invariant with respect to a transformation of the sentences by
any… correlation… The principle of invariance seems to
have been accepted by all authors on probability_{1} [i.e.,
probability as confirmation], both classical and modern, although it
has hardly ever been expressed explicitly. All authors would, for
instance, raise and answer questions of the following kind: Suppose
that among *s* observed objects there have been found \(s_1\)
with the property *B* and \(s_2 = s - s_1\) with non-*B*;
what is, on this evidence, the probability that another observed
object has the property *B*? Although nobody says so in so many
words, it would presumably appear absurd to everybody to assume that
the value of the probability on the evidence described depended also
on the question *which* particular *s* individuals were
observed and *which* particular other individual was concerned
in the prediction. For classical authors, this would appear simply as
a consequence of the principle of indifference; but also those modern
authors who reject the latter principle seem to take it for granted
that in questions of the kind mentioned only the statement of the
numbers but not a specification of the individuals is relevant for the
probability. To put it in our terminology, there seems to be a general
agreement among authors on probability that no concept can be regarded
as an adequate explicatum for probability unless it possesses the
characteristic of symmetry. (Carnap 1950b: 488f)

(Subjective Bayesians would disagree with this.) Indeed, in
§§94–96 of the *Logical Foundations*, Carnap
derives various salient properties of statistical inductive inferences
(in which *E* or *H* or both give information about
frequencies) from the symmetry requirement, such as the Binomial Law.
Moreover, Carnap’s symmetry requirement coincides with the De
Finetti’s (1931, cited by Carnap) famous assumption of
exchangeability of random variables, which—through De
Finetti’s Representation Theorem—provides a bridge between
subjective and statistical probabilities that is acceptable even on
subjective Bayesian grounds. (Carnap would stress that
symmetry/exchangeability is a requirement of rationality that is to be
applied in certain contexts, while subjective Bayesians would consider
it an assumption about data of some kind; ultimately, it is not easy
to tell whether this constitutes a substantial difference for Carnap
or whether he would have regarded it as merely a matter of emphasizing
different aspects of the same state of affairs. See Zabell 2005, 2007
for a more detailed comparison of Carnapian symmetry with De Finittian
exchangeability.)

We have seen the axioms of probability to entail that the degree of confirmation assigned to a structure-description, say,

\[ \begin{array}{r@{}c@{}r@{}c@{}r@{}c@{}r} (\neg B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& \neg B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& \neg B(c) &\amp& B(d)) \\ {}\lor (B(a) &\amp& B(b) &\amp& B(c) &\amp& \neg B(d)), \end{array} \]must equal the sum of degrees assigned to its disjuncts, that is, to the four pairwise isomorphic state-descriptions belonging to it. Symmetry maintains that each of these isomorphic state-descriptions are assigned one and the same degree of confirmation. What this leaves open is the degree that is assigned to the disjuncts; or equivalently, the degree of confirmation that is assigned to the structure-description they instantiate, which in this case must be four times the degree assigned to each of the four disjuncts.

In the Appendix to the *Logical Foundations*, Carnap suggests
the simplest possible way of determining these degrees: *each
structure-description* (in \(L_N)\) *ought to receive the same
probability* (which, by symmetry, is distributed uniformly over
the state-descriptions falling under it). It is easy to see that this
determines a unique confirmation measure, which Carnap denotes by:
\(c^*\). It follows that \(c^*\) is characterized as the uniquely
determined regular, symmetric conditional probability measure that is
uniform over structure-descriptions. Once turned into an explicit
definition of \(c^*\), inductive logic results from combining
deductive logic and its state-description semantics with that
definition of the \(c^*\)-function. In an analogous way in which,
e.g., Tarski’s explicit definition for truth entails all
instances of the truth schema for the object language in question,
Carnap’s definition of \(c^*\) entails as adequacy conditions
the axioms of probability, regularity, and symmetry. In addition,
Carnap demonstrates the fruitfulness of this definition by deriving
various plausible patterns of statistical reasoning from it—such
as direct inference (from a population to a sample), predictive
inference (from one sample to another), inference by analogy (from two
individuals sharing properties to their sharing other properties),
inverse inference (from a sample to a population), instance
confirmation, and more (e.g., that a greater variety of instances
yields greater \(c^*\)-confirmation; see Carnap 1945b or the
corresponding appendix of Carnap 1950b for the formal details). Hence,
\(c^*\) may serve as an exact, fruitful, simple, and adequate
explication of probability_{1} in the sense explained in the
supplement on
Methodology.
(Carnap only derives the results mentioned before for \(c^*\) and for
languages with only unary predicates. Later, Jeffrey B. Paris and his
collaborators extended many of these results to greater classes of
probability measures and to languages with predicates of arbitrary
arity, and they derived a great variety of new and important results
on further kinds of symmetry requirements: see, e.g., Landes, Paris,
& Vencovská 2008, 2011.)

Since \(c^*\) assigns the same initial probability to every two
structure-descriptions (in \(L_N)\), and since structure-descriptions
that exhibit “more uniformity” are instantiated by a
smaller number of state-descriptions—e.g., the
structure-description from before with three *B*s and just one
\(\neg B\) is instantiated by four state-descriptions, while the
“less uniform” structure-description with two *B*s
and two \(\neg B\)s comprises six state-descriptions—“more
uniform” state-descriptions receive a relatively greater initial
probability, corresponding to an inductive bias towards the
“uniformity of the world”. Carnap presents this on page
181 in *Logical Foundations*, referring to the appendix in
§110 in which he explains the \(c^*\) function and its formal
properties, as a replacement of the traditional (metaphysical)
“principle of uniformity” by a merely analytic requirement
for confirmation and hence as a kind of logical or structural
“solution” to the traditional problem of induction.
However, one can show that, in the context of regularity and the
axioms of probability, symmetry by itself would only entail a weak
principle of inductive learning (the so-called principle of
*nonnegative* instantial relevance) according to which the
probability of the “next” individual being *B*
*can never be decreased* by observing an individual being
*B*; but symmetry does not by itself yield that the probability
of the “next” individual being *B* is
*increased* by any such observation (as demanded by the
principle of *positive* instantial relevance; see Humburg 1971
and Gaifman 1971). In this sense, the merely structural requirement of
symmetry does *not* suffice for inductive learning. That is one
of the reasons why Carnap wants to go beyond the axioms of
probability, regularity, and symmetry, by turning to the specific
confirmation function \(c^*\) in the Appendix of *Logical
Foundations*.

Regarding the classical problem of induction, Carnap (1926: 7–9) had himself pointed out, long before Popper, that theories could not, strictly speaking, be completely verified, but only confirmed up to a certain confidence level, or disconfirmed. He maintained this acceptance of Hume’s basic point through his last writings (e.g., Carnap 1963b, 1980). He did not think, though, that the philosophical tradition of addressing it, in which “the aim was to show that inductive reasoning must be successful” was fruitful:

This demonstration was based either on metaphysical principles or on synthetic, allegedly unconfirmable principles, e.g., that of the uniformity of nature. In the demonstration, any use of inductive reasoning was prohibited; it was thought that such a use would involve a vicious circle because the validity of inductive reasoning was supposed to be dependent upon the demonstration. (Carnap 1957: 2)

However, he thought that a “justification [of induction] of
*this* kind is neither possible nor needed”. He agreed
rather with those “who search for a justification in a more
modest sense”. In the terms of a distinction Feigl had made, he
writes,

… this aim is not the validation but the vindication of induction. In general a vindication of a method or policy is given by showing that its use is suitable for obtaining a given end. The vindication of one inductive method in comparison with another one consists in showing that the one gives better promise for reaching the goal than the other. (1957: 2–3)

Moreover, he thought it advisable to divide the problem of the
justification of induction, in this more modest sense, into two
subproblems “which in my view are very different, but which
usually are not clearly distinguished”. The first problem was
that of deciding on the axioms of inductive logic, and on what sorts
of reasons should count in reaching this decision; the second problem
concerned the choice of a particular inductive method within the
leeway permitted by the axioms arrived at. Regarding this second
question, he wavered somewhat. In his *Continuum of Inductive
Methods*, Carnap (1952b) suggests that inductive methods should be
chosen according to their usefulness or convenience to the user, based
on the user’s experience of the empirical success of different
inductive methods:

The adoption of an inductive method is neither an expression of belief nor an act of faith, though either or both may come in as motivating factors. An inductive method is rather an instrument for the task of constructing a picture of the world on the basis of observational data and especially of forming expectations of future events as a guidance for practical conduct.

Xmay change this instrument just as he changes a saw or an automobile, and for similar reasons. IfX, after using his car for some time, is no longer satisfied with it, he will consider taking another one, provided that he finds one that seems to him preferable… (Carnap 1952b: 55)

This he later retreated from, in favor of a more rationalistic approach, in which the choice of inductive methods in the light of particular experiences was not rejected, but regarded as inferior to a more principled choice in the light of a prior choice of theoretical framework; see Carnap (1963b: 979). Burks (1963) suggests an application of Carnap’s internal-external distinction (see the supplement on Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology) to sort out Carnap’s views on the justification of induction, which Carnap (1963b: 982), finds “illuminating”, and he agrees that theoretical considerations may indeed be brought to bear on the “external question” of which inductive axioms for frameworks to choose. (See Carus 2017 for further discussion.)

While \(c^*\) exhibits some attractive formal properties, Carnap does
not claim it to be the only available explication of
probability_{1} or to be “perfect” in any sense:

It is not claimed that \(c^*\) is necessarily the best explicatum possible. The theory of this function will be developed chiefly for the purpose of presenting a concrete example…, (Carnap 1950b: ix, Preface)

and

It may… still be inadequate in other respects. It will not be claimed that \(c^*\) is a perfectly adequate explicatum for probability

_{1}, let alone that it is the only adequate one. For the time being it would be sufficient that \(c^*\) is a better explicatum than the previous methods (ifindeed it is); in the future still better explicata may be found. (Carnap 1950b: 563)

In the preface to the *Logical Foundations*, Carnap had already
pointed out that

for any two given inductive methods… there are always some state-descriptions in which the first wins out against the second [in terms of betting-success]. Hence, we can never say of one method that it is absolutely inferior to another method in the sense of being inferior in every conceivable world. Nevertheless, the result of a comparison of two inductive methods… may practically influence our preference. (Carnap 1950b: x)

Indeed, from the so-called “l-continuum” of adequate
confirmation methods published just two years later (*The Continuum
of Inductive Methods*, Carnap 1952b) to his posthumously published
systems of inductive logic (“A Basic System of Inductive Logic,
Part I”, Carnap 1971a, and “A Basic System of Inductive
Logic, Part II”, Carnap 1980, both edited by Richard Jeffrey),
Carnap extended his explication of probabilistic confirmation from
\(c^*\) to ever increasing infinite ranges of probability measures
satisfying the axioms of probability, regularity, symmetry,
convergence, and others. The convergence axiom, which can be shown to
imply the principle of *positive* instantial relevance (as
stated above, and assuming the rest of Carnap’s axioms), entails
that the probability of the “next” individual having
property *B* converges in the limit to the relative frequency of
*B*-objects in the observed samples. \(c^*\) satisfies this
requirement, while, e.g., the uniquely determined *uniform*
probability measure that assigns the same probability to each
*state-description* would neither satisfy convergence nor
positive instantial relevance (see Carnap 1950b: 564f). The point of
parametrizing inductive confirmation measures by the numerical
quantity l in Carnap’s “l-continuum” is to determine
how *fast* the probability of the next object being *B*
ought to converge to the relative frequency of *B*-objects given
the observations. His final (posthumous) publication on induction
(Carnap 1980) even expands the *conceptual* resources of
inductive logic by the assumption of quality spaces (such as color
spaces) on which similarity relations or distance measures are
defined, and relative to which a yet more comprehensive g-h-l family
of confirmation measures can be formulated that exploits features of
these quality spaces in analogical inferences: each g-parameter
measures the relative “geometrical width” of an attribute,
each h-parameter measures the similarity between two attributes, and
that kind of similarity is used to reconstruct inductive inferences
from predications of attributes to predications of similar attributes.
Hence, Carnap’s late work on inductive logic augments the
linguistic frameworks that figure so prominently throughout his work
(see the
main entry (Section 1.2))
by *geometrical* structure. (See Hilpinen 1973 and Sznajder
2016 for a reconstruction and discussion of Carnap’s
“Basic System”. See Niiniluoto 1981, 1988; Kuipers 1984,
1988; Skyrms 1991, 1996; Maher 2000; and Huttegger 2009, for
continuations and improvements of the “Basic System”.)

By continually enlarging the class of confirmation measures he regards
as adequate explicata, Carnap moved closer to the Bayesian position of
regarding *all* probability measures (with a subjective
interpretation) as adequate—the Bayesian step taken, e.g., by
Carnap’s student Richard Jeffrey. However, Carnap never seems to
have given up on the logicality or structurality requirement of
symmetry *for framework-dependent prior confirmation measures*.
(For a survey and detailed discussion and criticism of Carnap’s
symmetry requirement, see Zabell 2005.) As explained at the beginning
of this section, it is questionable to criticize Carnapian symmetry on
strictly Bayesian grounds, since Carnapian “initial”
confirmation measures are supposed to play a functional role different
from that of subjective probability measures (which may
*result* from a Carnapian “initial” confirmation
measure by update on evidence): as he says in Carnap (1971a: 118),

symmetry must be required of a

C-function [confirmation measure] only because it is meant to represent credibility, not credence. A nonsymmetric credence function may still be rational… those authors who interpret the term “probability” (often “subjective probability” or “personal probability”) in the sense of credence (as, for example, de Finetti, Savage, and Jeffrey…) are quite right in restricting symmetry to special cases.

Typical criticisms of “classical probability” based on
Bertrand’s Paradox (see section 3.1 of the entry on
interpretations of probability
for a survey) and the logical impossibility of exemplifying
*all* possible kinds of symmetry *at once*, miss their
target if directed at Carnap: Carnap himself warns against the
“uncritical use of the principle of indifference” (1950b:
331) and maintains that “since this principle leads to
contradictions, we have to give it up” (1950b: 332). It is only
once a linguistic framework has been set up that symmetry *with
respect to individuals as specified and identified in the
framework* becomes a plausible rationality constraint on prior
probabilities *when no specific evidence on individuals has yet
been collected*.

Similarly, in Carnap’s philosophy of induction, Goodman’s (1955) well-known worries about the “new problem of induction” and grue-type predicates concern the pragmatic question of which linguistic framework one should presuppose for inductive reasoning: e.g., one with purely “descriptional” primitive predicates, such as “blue” and “green”, or one including also mixed “descriptional-locational” primitive predicates, such as Goodman’s “grue” and “bleen” (see Carnap 1971a: 72–76). This problem of scientific concept choice, which goes beyond induction, is urgent for everyone and leads back to the realist-antirealist debates on the “naturalness” and “fundamentality” of concepts (see “Carnap’s reconstruction of scientific theories”). At the very least, given Carnap’s general approach to philosophy and explication or rational reconstruction (see the supplement on Methodology), it should hardly come as a surprise that

The degree of confirmation is relative not only with respect to the evidence, but, like all semantical concepts, also with respect to the language system, (Carnap 1950b: 279)

and that the adequacy of one’s choice of linguistic framework for inductive reasoning is itself an important problem of applied inductive logic (see Carnap 1971a: 76).

A different kind of criticism of Carnap’s inductive logic was
put forward by Putnam (1963) in the Schilpp volume on Carnap: Putnam
proved that, assuming a certain computability condition on the
confirmation function *P* (satisfied, e.g., by Carnap’s
\(c^*\) from above), there must be a computable hypothesis *H*
concerning a countably infinite ordered set of individuals which could
not be accepted by *P* in the sense of \(P(H \mid E _n)\)
converging to 1 in the limit, even though each piece of evidence
\(E_n\) corresponds to the set of confirming instances of *H*
concerning the first *n* individuals. This proof was the basis of
the later development of formal learning theory (see Schulte 2017 for
a survey).

In a reply to Putnam in the Schilpp volume, Carnap takes on board
Putnam’s suggestion that scientists’ methods of accepting
or rejecting hypotheses in the face of evidence might depend on which
(and in which order) scientific hypotheses are proposed in the actual
course of scientific development—which Putnam had shown leads to
a way out of the problem for all hypotheses *H* *that are
actually proposed*. (See chapter 1 of Sterkenburg 2018 for a
discussion and evaluation of the exchange between Putnam and Carnap.)
Sterkenburg (2018: 108) shows that if Carnapian confirmation functions
are seen as instantiations of a universal Bayesian
*architecture* by which various particular confirmation methods
can be constructed, then the Carnapian inductive logic program can be
saved from Putnam’s criticism. As modern work on
“no-free-lunch” theorems in machine learning suggests (see
Schurz 2017 for a summary and philosophical assessment), there simply
does not seem to be anything like a universally successful method of
induction: every reasonable such method comes with certain
presuppositions and will fail to do its job if these presuppositions
are not met. The inductive components of Carnapian frameworks merely
constitute ways of making some of these presuppositions more precise
and explicit.

(For a detailed survey on Carnap on probability and induction, see Zabell 2007; for a general defense of Carnap’s explication of confirmation, see Maher 2010.)