## The Argument: Death and Posthumous Events Don't Affect Us

Here is a more explicit version of 1-13 (with thanks to Curtis Brown):

Let s,s′, … range over subjects; v,v′, … over events and states; and t,t′, … over times. We can use the following abbreviations:

 SD(v,s,t): v is the state of s being dead at t harm2(v,s): v harms s harm3(v,s,t): v harms s at t t > t’: t is after t’ t ≥ t’: t is after t’ or t = t’

We can use the following function symbols:

For any subject s, ED(s) is the event of s’s death

For any event or state v, T(v) is the time v occurs or holds

Next come axioms:

 A1: ∀v∀s(harm2(v,s) iff ∃tharm3(v,s,t)) A2: ∀v∀s(v is posthumous for s iff T(v) > T(ED(s))) A3: ∀v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s), then t > T(ED(s)))

Then premises:

 P1: ∀v∀s∀t(If v affects s at t, then v causally affects s at t) P2: ∀v∀s∀t(If v causally affects s at t, then s exists at t) P3: ∀v∀s∀t(If harm3(v,s,t), then v affects s at t) P4: ∀v∀s∀t(If v causally affects s at t, then t ≥ T(v)) P5: ∀v∀s(If t > T(ED(s)), then it is not the case that s exists at t)

Here are the conclusions to be reached:

 C1: No posthumous event harms us; i.e., ∀v∀s(If v is posthumous for s, then ~harm2(v,s)) C2: We are not harmed by the state of our being dead; i.e., ∀v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s,t), then ~harm2(v,s)) C3: The event of death harms us, if at all, only when it occurs; i.e., ∀v∀s∀t(If v=ED(s) & harm3(v,s,t), then t = T(ED(s)))

Argument for C1:

Let v1 be any event or state, s1 any subject and t1 any time.

 1 v1 is posthumous for s1 (assumption for conditional introduction) 2 harm2(v1, s1) (assumption for reductio ad absurdum) 3 T(v1) > T(ED(s1)) (1, A2, UI, biconditional elimination) 4 harm3(v1, s1,t) (2, A1, UI, biconditional elimination, MP) 5 harm3(v1, s1, t1) (4, EI) 6 v1 affects s1 at t1 (5, P3, UI, MP) 7 v1 causally affects s1 at t1 (6, P1, UI, MP) 8 t1 > T(v1) (7, P4, UI, MP) 9 t1 > T(ED(s1)) (8, 3, transitivity of >) 10 ~s1 exists at t1 (9, P5, UI, MP) 11 s1 exists at t1 (7, P2, UI, MP) 12 ~harm2(v1, s1) (2, 10,11, reductio ad absurdum 13 If v1 is posthumous for s1, then ~harm2(v1, s1) (1, 13, conditional introduction) 14 ∀v∀s(If v is posthumous for s, then ~harm2(v,s)) (13 UG)

Argument for C2:

Let v1 be any event or state, s1 any subject and t1 any time.

 1 SD(v1, s1, t1) (assumption for conditional introduction) 2 t1 > T(ED(s1)) (1, A3, UI, MP)) 3 v1 is posthumous for s1 (2, A2, biconditional elimination) 4 ~harm2(v1, s1) (3, C1, UI, MP) 5 If SD(v1, s1, t1), then ~harm2(v1, s1) (1, 4, CI) 6 ∀v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s,t), then ~harm2(v,s)) (5, UG)

Argument for C3:

Let v1 be any event or state, s1any subject and t1 any time.

 1 v1 = ED(s1) & harm3(v1, s1, t1) (assumption for conditional introduction) 2 harm3(ED(s1), s1, t1) (1, simplication, substitution) 3 ED(s1) affects s1 at t1 (2, P3, UI, MP) 4 ED(s1) causally affects s1 at t1 (3, P1, UI, MP) 5 t1 ≥ T(ED(s1)) (4, P4, UI, MP) 6 t1 > T(ED(s1)) (assumption for reductio ad absurdum) 7 ~s1 exists at t1 (6, P5, UI, MP) 8 s1 exists at t1 (4, P2, UI, MP) 9 ~t1 > T(ED(s1)) (6, 8, reductio ad absurdum) 10 t1 = T(ED(s1)) (5, 9, disjunctive syllogism) 11 If v1=ED(s1) & harm3(v1,s1,t1), then t1 = T(ED(s1)) (1, 10, conditional introduction) 12 ∀v∀s∀t(If v=ED(s) & harm3(v,s,t), then t = T(ED(s)) (11, UG)
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