# Impossible Worlds

*First published Thu Sep 17, 2009*

It is a venerable slogan due to David Hume, and inherited by the
empiricist tradition, that the impossible cannot be believed, or even
conceived. In *Positivismus und Realismus*, Moritz Schlick
claimed that, while the merely practically impossible is still
conceivable, the logically impossible, such as an explicit
inconsistency, is simply unthinkable.

An opposite philosophical tradition, however, maintains that
inconsistencies and logical impossibilities are thinkable, and
sometimes believable, too. In the *Science of Logic*, Hegel
already complained against “one of the fundamental prejudices of logic
as hitherto understood”, namely that “the contradictory cannot be
imagined or thought” (Hegel 1931: 430). Our representational
capabilities are not limited to the possible, for we appear to be able
to imagine and describe also impossibilities — perhaps without
being aware that they are impossible.

Such impossibilities and inconsistencies are what this entry is about. In order to read it fruitfully, familiarity with the entry on possible worlds is presupposed: as we will see, many accounts of impossible worlds are best understood on the background (as extensions, alternatives, or “dual” counterparts) of possible worlds theories — although, as we will also see, symmetries and dualities can sometimes break down in important respects. It is also suggested that the reader has a look at the entry on modal logic.

We commonly speak of things being impossible in a *relative*,
restricted sense. If you are stuck in a traffic jam in Paris
Montparnasse at 2 PM, and your flight is leaving from airport Charles
De Gaulle at 2:30 PM, you may moan: “There is no way that I can
make it to the airport in time”. What you mean is that, given
the timing, the means of transport available, and other circumstances,
it is impossible for you to reach the airport in time. It is not
unrestrictedly, absolutely impossible, of course: if you had Star
Trek's transporter, you could do it. But a Star Trek world in which
you can be instantaneously disassembled into atoms, and re-assembled
exactly with the same atomic structure in a different place, is a
world quite different from ours. Some may doubt that such a world is
physically possible. We can, however, *envisage* it: the Star
Trek stories, for instance, describe a world with effective
transporters. More generally, it is not too difficult to imagine
worlds in which some fundamental biological or physical law does
not hold: for instance, a world where John Kennedy is killed both on
November 22, 1963, and on August 18, 1967; or where on November 22,
1963, he is both in Dallas and in Las Vegas. Such worlds may be
regarded as biologically or physically impossible.

This entry is not about such worlds, though. For even if they can
be deemed “impossible” in such restricted senses, they are
not absolutely impossible: they still count as *possible* worlds,
taking “possible” in an absolutely unrestricted sense (or
at least, these are our *bona fide* intuitions; in fact, the
claim that fictional worlds such as Star Trek's are possible turns on
some subtle issues; but we can skip them here). This entry is about
worlds that are not possible, with “possible” understood
in a completely unrestricted sense. Take the set of all
(unrestrictedly) possible worlds: the worlds we are interested in are
not in there. These worlds are therefore often called *logically*
impossible worlds, for the good reason that logical laws, such as the
Law of Non-Contradiction, or the Law of Identity, are assumed to be
the most general and topic-neutral: they are supposed to hold, by
definition, at all possible worlds. However, it is a matter of debate
among philosophers whether there are other kinds of necessity, which
are co-extensive with logical necessity on the totality of possible
worlds (two such candidate unrestricted necessities are the
mathematical and the metaphysical; we will come back to them in
Section 5). From now on, we are therefore talking of impossible
worlds *simpliciter*, meaning worlds that are not possible with
respect to an unrestricted notion of possibility, however this is
further characterized.

A survey of the literature on impossible worlds presents us with a
bunch of definitions. To put some order in the debate, these can be
reduced to four main items, and ordered from the more to the less
general as follows. First, dual to the identification of possible
worlds with ways things could have been comes the identification of
impossible worlds with ways things could *not* have been. Not
everything is possible, that is, some things just can't
happen. Anything that just can't happen must be an impossibility; and
these ways the world could not be are impossible worlds (see
e.g. Salmon 1984; Yagisawa 1988; Restall 1997; Beall & van
Fraassen 2003).

Next, another definition has it that impossible worlds are worlds where the laws of logic are different. This is logic-relative: given some logic L, an impossible world is one in which the set of truths is not one that holds in any acceptable interpretation of L (see e.g. Priest 2001, Ch. 9).

A third, more restrictive definition claims that impossible worlds
are worlds where the set of things that hold is not the set of things
that hold in any *classical* interpretation, that is, an
acceptable interpretation of classical logic (see e.g. Priest
1997a).

A still more specific definition has it that an impossible world
is a world that realizes explicit contradictions, that is, where
sentences of the form *A* and ¬*A* hold, against the Law of
Non-Contradiction (see e.g. Lycan 1994).

- 1. Reasons for Introducing Impossible Worlds
- 2. The Semantics of Impossible Worlds
- 3. The Metaphysics of Impossible Worlds
- 4. The Structure of Impossible Worlds
- 5. Applications of Impossible Worlds
- 6. Objections to Impossible Worlds
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Reasons for Introducing Impossible Worlds

Why should we believe in such anarchic items as impossible worlds? One first argument is the so-called “argument from ways” (Vander Laan 1997), which is related to the first definition of impossible world given above. This draws on the analogy with David Lewis' notorious argument concerning our quantifying on ways things could be. The world could be different in so many ways: Humphreys could have won the elections, I could be dancing on the ceiling, and Fermat's last Theorem could have remained without proof. Our belief in possible worlds is just a paraphrase of our belief that there are many ways the world could be.

Aren't there also ways the world could *not* be? If there were
no such ways, it would follow that *anything* is possible. Now,
even though some authors endorse this last claim (e.g. Mortensen
1989), the majority of us believe that some things just can't happen,
that is, not everything is possible, that is, there are ways things
cannot be (if I tell you that my College has a cupola which is round
and square, you are likely to reply: “Well, it can't be *that*
way!”). So “'ways' talk goes both ways” (Beall and van Fraassen 2003:
86): if quantification on ways the world could be should be taken at
face value as providing evidence for possible worlds, then
quantification on ways the world could not be should be taken at face
value as providing evidence for impossible worlds.

This argument, as such, is hardly convincing, especially because one
author's *modus ponens* is another's *modus tollens*: one
could use such considerations, for instance, to argue against Lewis'
modal realism (see Skyrms 1976; Naylor 1986). If one believes in the
reality of possible worlds, then by parity of reasoning one should
believe in the reality of impossible worlds. But impossible worlds are
too much to swallow. So one should not believe in Lewis' modal
realism.

Secondly, no one would take quantification on any kind of entities
whatsoever at face value, just because it is embedded in ordinary
language. Lewis' paraphrase argument for possible worlds does not
consist in just pointing at our quantifying on ways the world could
be, but also in providing independent motivations for taking such
quantification at face value: a non-reductive account of possible
worlds brings net theoretical utility, so that the ontological cost is
compensated by a theoretical gain. As we will see in the following,
this is likely to be the main motivation for believing in impossible
worlds, too: impossible worlds are theoretically
quite *useful*.

A second argument on behalf of impossible worlds, quite pervasive
in the literature (e.g. Beall & van Fraassen 2003, Ch. 4; Nolan
1997; Restall 1997), comes from *counterpossible reasoning*,
that is, particular counterfactual reasoning from premises or
antecedents which are not only false, but impossible. The initial
claim is that we can reason non-trivially from impossible
suppositions: we assume that something impossible is the case, and
wonder what would and would not follow from this. Also in this case,
one could exploit an analogy: just as (*pace* the material
conditional of standard, extensional logic) not all counterfactual
conditionals are trivially true just because their antecedent is
false, so (*pace* C.I. Lewis' strict conditional) not all
counterpossible conditionals are trivially true just because their
antecedent is impossible. Some are true, but not trivially so (“If
Hobbes had squared the circle, then all mathematicians would have been
amazed”); some are intuitively false (“If Hobbes had squared the
circle, then Kennedy would not have been killed”). Discourse on ways things couldn't be has its own logic in a
broad sense: some reasoning in it is correct, some is not. And since
we have fruitfully analyzed our talk on counterfactuals in terms of
possible worlds, why shouldn't we analyze our talk on counterpossibles
in terms of impossible worlds?

The point readily generalizes to entire theories, and to serious philosophical and logical debates. We often need to reason non-trivially on logical (and, perhaps, mathematical and metaphysical) theories, of which we believe that they are not only factually false, but necessarily so, not because they are especially bad, but because of the very nature of the subject matter. It should be pointed out that this argument stresses, again, the usefulness of impossible worlds as a device by means of which particular linguistic, logical and philosophical issues can be regimented and analyzed. If so, then the point can be expanded into the general “argument from utility” mentioned above: we should believe in impossible worlds because they are useful tools for logicians and philosophers; they have, as we will see throughout this entry, numerous applications, and cast light on important topics.

## 2. The Semantics of Impossible Worlds

### 2.1 Impossible Worlds in Non-Normal Modal Logics

So-called Kripke semantics, or possible worlds semantics, is justly
celebrated for having provided suitable interpretations for different
axiomatic systems of
modal logic,
such as C.I. Lewis' systems **S4** and **S5**, whereas before
Kripke's work we had only lists of axioms or, at most, algebraic and
rather uninformative semantics. But it was precisely Kripke who, in
his 1965 paper, introduced a special kind of worlds, which were
dubbed *non-normal worlds*, in order to provide worlds semantics
for modal logics (called “non-normal” in their turn)
weaker than the basic normal modal system **K**, such as
C.I. Lewis' systems **S2** and **S3**. Specifically, the
non-normal modal systems at issue do not include the so-called Rule of
Necessitation, which can be phrased semantically as follows:

If ⊨A, then ⊨□A.

This is the principle stating that, if a formula *A* is
logically valid, i.e., a logical truth, then its necessitation, that
is, the formula obtained by prefixing to it a box or necessity
operator, is logically valid, too. In the standard semantics for
normal modal logics, if ⊨*A*, that is, *A* is a
logical truth, then it is true at all worlds of all
interpretations. So given any world *w*, and standard
accessibility relation between worlds, *A* is true at all
worlds accessible from *w*, so also □A is true
at *w*. Therefore, ⊨□*A*. Non-normal worlds
enter the stage precisely in order to make Necessitation fail.

To make things precise, let us introduce some set-theoretic semantic
machinery. We can keep things simple by limiting ourselves to the case
of (non-normal) propositional modal logic, for this is sufficient to
make the features of non-normal worlds emerge. Let us consider, then,
a non-normal interpretation of a propositional modal language, ⟨*W*,
*N*, *R*, *v*⟩, where *W* is a set of
worlds; *N* is a proper subset of *W*, the set
of *normal* worlds; *R* is a binary accessibility relation
between worlds; and *v* is a valuation function assigning truth
values to formulas at worlds, so that “*v*_{w}(A)”
denotes the truth value of formula *A* at
world *w*. Worlds in *W* − *N* are the
non-normal worlds. The truth conditions for the extensional logical
vocabulary (negation, conjunction, disjunction, the material
conditional) are defined in the usual way. The same holds for the modal
operators of necessity □ and possibility ◊, but only
at *normal* worlds. If *w* is a non-normal world, then the
truth conditions for the modalizers are defined as follows:

v_{w}(□A) = 0

v_{w}(◊A) = 1

Where 1 stands for *true*, 0 for *false*. This means
that, at non-normal worlds, formulas of the form £*A*,
with £ a modal operator, are not evaluated recursively depending
on the truth value of *A* at other (accessible) worlds, but get
assigned their truth value directly. Specifically, all box-formulas
are false and all diamond-formulas are true. In a sense, non-normal
worlds are electrifying worlds where nothing is necessary, but
anything is possible. These worlds, however, are deviant only in this
respect: their behavior, as far as the extensional connectives are
concerned, is quite regular.

Next, logical validity and consequence are defined, respectively,
in terms of holding and of truth preservation at *normal* worlds,
thus (where S is a set of formulas):

⊨

Aif and only if, for all interpretations ⟨W,N,R,v⟩, and all worldsw∈N,v(_{w}A) = 1.

S⊨Aif and only if, for all interpretations ⟨W,N,R,v⟩, and all worldsw∈N, ifv_{w}(B) = 1 for all formulasB∈S, thenv_{w}(A) = 1.

This setting is sufficient to make Necessitation fail in models
including non-normal worlds. For take any classical propositional
tautology, say *A* ∨ ¬*A*. This holds at all
worlds of all interpretations, so ⊨ *A* ∨
¬*A*. Therefore, □(*A* ∨ ¬*A*)
holds at all normal worlds of any interpretation, so ⊨
□(*A* ∨ ¬*A*). But □(*A* ∨
¬*A*) does not hold in any non-normal world. Therefore,
□□(*A* ∨ ¬*A*) is false at normal
worlds that have access, via *R*, to any non-normal world, and
so ⊭ □□(*A* ∨ ¬*A*).

These semantics for non-normal modal logics such as **S2**
and **S3** are based on a valuation function which assigns the same
truth value to all box formulas (i.e., false) and all diamond formulas
(i.e., true) at non-normal worlds. Before moving on, we can mention
the modal system **S0.5**, due to E.J. Lemmon (1957). This is a
non-normal system whose semantics, initially provided by Cresswell
1966, includes non-normal worlds at which formulas that begin with a
modalizer are assigned *arbitrary*, non-fixed truth values. This
means that the valuation function *v* treats modal formulas as
atomic. The idea of considering impossible worlds as
worlds at which complex formulas are treated as atomic is a fruitful
one, as we will soon see.

Kripke introduced non-normal worlds as a technical device, embedded
in a purely set-theoretic structure in order to treat Lewis'
non-normal modal logics; the question of the *interpretation*
of such structures (particularly, of the ontological status of
impossible worlds), then, makes perfect sense — and the answer
is not straightforward, as we will see in Section 3.

### 2.2 Nonadjunctive and Nonprime Impossible Worlds

In 1980, Nicholas Rescher and Robert Brandom published *The Logic
of Inconsistency. A Study in Non-Standard Possible-Worlds Semantics
and Ontology*, and moved the theory of impossible worlds to the
next stage. Rescher and Brandom introduced a modal semantics
including, besides ordinary possible worlds (taken as maximally
consistent collections of states of affairs), also non-standard worlds
that are occasionally inconsistent (that is, such that, for
some *A*, both *A* and ¬*A* hold at them),
and incomplete (that is, such that for some *A*,
neither *A* nor ¬*A* hold at them). These
non-standard worlds are obtained combinatorially, starting from
classically possible worlds: they are produced via two recursive
operations having standard worlds as their base, and
called *schematization* and *superposition*. Let us
symbolize them, respectively, as ∩ and ∪. Given two
worlds *w*_{1} and *w*_{2}, a schematic
world *w*_{1} ∩ *w*_{2} is a world at
which all and only the states of affairs obtain, which obtain both
at *w*_{1} and at *w*_{2}. Dually, a
“superposed” or inconsistent world *w*_{1}
∪ *w*_{2} is a world at which all and only the
states of affairs obtain, which obtain at *w*_{1} or
at *w*_{2}. With respect to the definitions of
impossible world listed in the introduction to this entry, Rescher and
Brandom's inconsistent-superposed worlds are, therefore, impossible
worlds of the fourth kind, making both *A* and its negation true, for
some *A* (just superpose, for instance, a possible
world, *w*_{1}, at which I am 1.70m tall, and another
possible world, *w*_{2}, at which I am 1.90m tall).

A notable feature of these impossible worlds is that the assignment of truth values at them is not compositional with respect to conjunction. The right-to-left direction of the standard, homophonic semantic clause for conjunction:

(S∧)v_{w}(A∧B) = 1 if and only ifv_{w}(A) = 1 andv_{w}(B) = 1

has to go, if *w* is an impossible world. Whereas Kripke's
non-standard worlds required different truth conditions only for the
modal operators, Rescher and Brandom's inconsistent worlds behave
peculiarly with respect to conjunction. As a consequence of this, they
realize distributive contradictions, making both *A* and
¬*A* sometimes true; but from this the corresponding
conjunctive or collective contradiction, *A* ∧
¬*A*, doesn't follow. These impossible worlds still have a
certain amount of logical structure: they behave in quite a standard
fashion with respect to single-premise inferences (they are actually
closed under any *classically* valid single-premise inference);
but they are anarchic and not closed under essentially
multiple-premise inferences.

Rescher and Brandom's approach falls in the so-called
“non-adjunctive” tradition (see Berto 2007, Ch. 6) of
paraconsistent logics: a
tradition started by Jaskowksi's *discussive
logic* **D _{2}** (also labeled as

**J**in the literature), and based on the idea of rejecting or limiting the logical rule of Adjunction: the rule according to which any two formulas

*A*and

*B*entail their conjunction

*A*∧

*B*. The non-adjunctive approach has been recently revived in works by Hyde 1997, and Varzi 1997 and 2004. As we will see in Section 5, it has quite interesting applications.

### 2.3 Impossible Worlds in Epistemic Logic

With Rescher and Brandom's work, worlds at which some logical
principle involving some extensional connective fails have entered the
scene. How about worlds at which *all* extensional connectives
behave anarchically? This is what happens with the
so-called *Rantala frames*, introduced by Rantala 1982a, in
order to address fundamental issues concerning knowledge and
belief.

Notoriously, the attempts at modeling such intentional states
within
epistemic logic,
as modal operators whose semantics is given in terms of possible
worlds, stumble upon a cluster of problems, gathered under the label
of “logical omniscience”. When modeled within standard
Kripke possible worlds frames, knowledge (or belief) turns out to be
closed under logical consequence, that is, the following principle
holds (with *K* the relevant epistemic operator):

(Cl) If ⊨A→B, then ⊨KA→KB

That is, one knows (believes) all the logical consequences of the things one knows (believes). Also, all valid formulas turn out to be known (believed):

(Val) If ⊨A, then ⊨KA,

And beliefs form a consistent set, that is, it cannot be the case that both a formula and its negation are believed:

(Cons) ⊨¬(KA∧K¬A).

Taken together, these principles deliver a highly idealized notion of
knowledge (belief), not mirroring the actual status of human, that is,
finite and fallible, epistemic agents. We all experience having
(perhaps covert) inconsistent beliefs. Even though Excluded
Middle, *A* ∨ ¬*A*, is (let us assume) logically
valid, the intutionists do not believe it. We know such basic
arithmetic truths as Peano's postulates; and Peano's postulates may
entail (let us assume) Goldbach's conjecture; but we don't know
whether Goldbach's conjecture is true.

In order to address these issues more efficiently, Rantala proposed to consider modal frames involving non-standard worlds which, despite being logically impossible, can be seen as viable epistemic alternatives by imperfect cognitive agents (an idea partly anticipated in Hintikka 1975).

A *Rantala interpretation* is a structure ⟨*W*, *N*,
*R*, *v*⟩, where *W* is our usual set of
worlds; *N* is the subset of normal, possible worlds; *W* −
*N* is the set of impossible worlds; *R* is the
accessibility relation, which can in these contexts be regarded as a
kind of belief or cognitive accessibility. Now, the evaluation
function *v* assigns truth values in quite a standard way at
possible worlds, that is: atomic formulas are directly assigned 1 or
0, and compound formulas are evaluated recursively. In particular,
also the modal operators get their standard interpretation. However,
at impossible worlds in *W* − *N*, *all*
formulas get assigned a truth value by *v* directly, not
recursively. This means that also compound formulas of the form
¬*A*, *A* ∨ *B*, etc., are treated as
atomic, and behave arbitrarily: *A* ∨ *B* may turn
out to be true even though both *A* and *B* are false,
and ¬*A* may turn out to be true when also *A* is. In
particular, also *A* ∧ ¬*A* may be assigned 1
by *v* at some impossible world. Next, logical consequence and
validity are defined, again, with respect to *possible*
worlds. Worlds in *W* − *N* are completely
anarchic and not closed under any non-trivial consequence relation. By
allowing such worlds to be accessible via *R* in the evaluation of
formulas including intentional-epistemic operators such as *K*,
one can destroy their unwelcome closure features, thereby dispensing
with (Cl), (Val), and (Cons).

The Rantala frames approach, initially proposed for propositional
modalities, has been generalized to quantified modal logics by
Rantala himself (see Rantala 1982b), and developed into a unified
framework for epistemic logics in some interesting works by Heinrich
Wansing 1989, 1990. Wansing has shown that various logics for
knowledge and belief developed in Artificial Intelligence can find
equivalent models in structures including non-standard worlds. A
quite recent application of impossible worlds in the field of
epistemic logics has been proposed by JC Beall 2009: this is a
worlds semantics including impossible worlds of the Rantala kind,
retaining much of
Fitch's knowability paradox
reasoning but dispensing with distribution of *K* over
conjunctions.

### 2.4 Impossible Worlds in Relevant Logic

At the core of the research project of
relevance logic
(or relevant logic) is the idea of capturing a notion of entailment
that doesn't fall foul of the so-called fallacies of relevance, or
paradoxes of (material and strict) implication. These are entailments
that turn out to be valid in classical and modal logic, just because
the antecedent is a (necessary) falsity. Famous among them is *ex
contradictione quodlibet*, also called the Law of Explosion,
according to which a contradiction entails everything: *A*
∧ ¬*A* → *B* (contradictions are
“explosive”). Dually, other irrelevant entailments are those that turn
out to be valid just because the consequent is a necessary truth
(*verum ex quolibet*), such as *A* → *B* ∨
¬*B*, or *A* → (*B*
→ *B*).

Intuitively, a good way to provide counterexamples to these
irrelevant entailments is by resorting to impossible worlds. Distinct
impossible worlds which are locally inconsistent (making
both *A* and ¬*A* true, but for
distinct *A*s), should not be reduced to one — to the
“trivial” world at which everything happens. An impossible
world of the fourth kind, at which some contradiction is true but not
everything is, provides a counterexample to *ex falso
quodlibet*. And, in fact, various systems of relevant logic have
been supplied with interesting worlds semantics including precisely
impossible worlds, besides the possible ones.

Let us resort again to some set-theoretic
machinery. A *Routley-Meyer* interpretation (the name comes from
the relevant logicians Richard Routley, later Sylvan, and Robert
Meyer: see Routley & Routley 1972; Routley & Meyer 1973, 1976;
Routley 1979) for relevant (propositional) logics is a quintuple
⟨*W*, *N*, *R*, *, *v*⟩,
where *W* is a set of worlds; *N* is a proper subset
of *W* including the normal or possible worlds, and *W*
− *N* is the set of non-normal or impossible
worlds; *R* is a *ternary* accessibility relation defined
on *W*, and * (the so-called *Routley star*) is a monadic
operation defined on *W* — a function from worlds to
worlds, sometimes called *involution*. * and *R* figure
prominently in the truth conditions for negation and the (relevant)
conditional. Their task is precisely to provide a semantics for
negation that allows for the truth of *A* and ¬*A*
at some worlds, and a semantics for the conditional that frees it from
the aforementioned fallacies of relevance.

#### 2.4.1 Relevant Conditional

Let us begin with the conditional. In order to get rid of such
entailments as *A* → (*B* → *B*), we
need some world at which *A* holds but *B*
→ *B* fails. One way to achieve this may be to admit
“partial” or incomplete situations at which *A* holds and at
which *B* → *B* fails to hold, just because they
carry no information about *B*. Another, more straightforward
way is precisely via impossible worlds: after all, a main way to
understand such worlds, as we have seen, is to see them as situations
where logical laws may fail, and the Law of (propositional) Identity,
stating that any formula entails itself, is one of them. At possible
worlds, we still require for the truth of conditionals *A*
→ *B* that at every accessible world where *A*
holds, *B* holds, too. Consequently, *A* →
(*B* → *B*) is not logically valid. Technically,
when *w* is an impossible world, we state the truth conditions
for the conditional, by means of the ternary *R*, as follows:

(S→)v_{w}(A→B) = 1 if and only if, for all worldsw_{1}andw_{2}∈W, such thatRww_{1}w_{2}, ifv_{w1}(A) = 1, thenv_{w2}(B) = 1.

The key difference between (S→) and the standard modal clause
for strict implication is that the worlds of the antecedent and the
consequent have been “split”. Specifically, *B* → *B* fails
at *w*, when this is an impossible world such that for some
worlds (which may be possible or not) *w*_{1}
and *w*_{2}, such that
R*w**w*_{1} *w*_{2}, *B* holds at the
former and fails at the latter. (S→) may also be used to provide
the truth conditions for the conditional uniformly at all worlds, if
we add the further assumption (usually called the *Normality
Condition*) that, when *w* is possible, then the accessible
worlds *w*_{1} and *w*_{2} are identical:

(NC) Ifw∈N, thenRww_{1}w_{2}only ifw_{1}=w_{2}.

It is difficult to provide an intuitive reading for the ternary
relation *R*. One may claim that the truth of an
entailment *A* → *B* at a world *w* depends on
its “seeing an accessibility” (Bremer 2005: 67) between
two other worlds *w*_{1} and *w*_{2}, such
that if *A* is true at the former, *B* is true at the
latter. Via the ternary relation *R*, one can build models for
different relevant logics: starting with the basic relevant
system **B**, one obtains models for stronger logics such
as **R**, the system of relevant implication, by adding formal
algebraic conditions on *R* — in a way analogue to how,
in standard modal logic, we move on from the basic normal
system **K** to, **T**, **S4**, **S5**, by adding formal
constraints to the standard binary accessibility relation of Kripke
frames. The constraints to be added to the ternary *R*, in fact, are
more complex than those of standard modal logic, and some involve also
the star operator *, to which we now turn.

#### 2.4.2 The Routley Star

Given a world *w*, the involution operation produces a
world *w** which is, in a sense to be specified, its “reverse
twin”. Let us begin with the truth conditions for negation within the
Routley-Meyer semantics:

(S¬)v(¬_{w}A) = 1 if and only ifv(_{w*}A) = 0,

that is, ¬*A* is true at a world *w* if and only
if *A* is false, not at *w* itself (as it happens with
standard negation), but at its twin *w**. This relevant negation
is therefore an intensional operator: in order to evaluate negated
formulas at *w*, one has to refer at the goings on of a world
that may be distinct from *w* (it may also not be distinct, as we
will see soon).

By adding appropriate algebraic constraints to the semantics, one can
validate various theorems of relevant logics, and provide the negation
at issue with many intuitive inferential features. For instance, by
assuming that involution is an operation of period two, that
is, *w*** = *w*, one can validate the classical Law of
Double Negation. The operator so characterized is often called *De
Morgan* negation, for also De Morgan's Laws hold for it. But it
does not validate the Law of Explosion. To provide the required
counterexample, just consider a model in which *A* holds
at *w*, *B* doesn't hold at *w*, and *A*
doesn't hold at *w**. Then, both *A* and ¬*A*
hold at *w*, whereas *B* doesn't. *w* is, of course, an
inconsistent, but non-trivial, impossible world.

But what is the intuitive connection between *w* and *w**?
The idea is that the twins are “mirror images one of the other
reversing ‘in’ and ‘out’” (Dunn 1986:
191). The reverse twin of an impossible world *w* which is
*A*-inconsistent (that is, at which both *A* and
¬*A* hold) is an impossible world, *w**, at which
neither *A* nor ¬*A* hold. Involution is an
operation that takes local inconsistency into local incompleteness,
and vice versa.

It may happen, though, that *w* = *w**, that is, the
twins are not split apart: “they” coincide. In this
case, *w* just is a possible, maximal and consistent, world
belonging to *N*. At such a normal world as *w*, then,
negation behaves completely classically: ¬*A* is true at it
if and only if *A* is false at *it*. An ordinary possible
worlds frame is just a special Routley-Meyer frame: one at which all
worlds are possible (maximal and consistent), that is, each coincides
with its twin. Conversely, the logic determined by the Routley-Meyer
semantics is a sub-logic of normal, classical (modal) logic.

## 3. The Metaphysics of Impossible Worlds

From what we have seen so far, impossible worlds appear to have an interesting, albeit short, history, having been introduced and developed by numerous authors. The supporters of impossible worlds, however, disagree on their metaphysical nature, just like supporters of possible worlds do. What kind of entities are such worlds? Are they concrete-maximal mereological sums of individuals, or abstract objects such as states of affairs, or sets of propositions or sentence types, or some other kind of set-theoretic construction?

Famously, the two main options in the metaphysics of modality are David Lewis' (so-called extreme) modal realism, and ersatzism (or actualism, or abstractionism) in its various forms. It is a common thought among impossible worlds theorists that impossible worlds should just inherit the ontological status of their possible mates: whatever your favorite metaphysics of possible worlds is, impossible worlds are of the same kind. This has been called the Parity Thesis (see Rescher & Brandom 1980). As Graham Priest puts it:

As far as I can see, any of the main theories concerning the nature of possible worlds can be applied equally to impossible worlds: they are existent nonactual entities; they are nonexistent objects; they are constructions out of properties and other universals; they are just certain sets of sentences. … There is, as far as I can see, absolutely no cogent (in particular, non-question-begging) reason to suppose that there is anontologicaldifference between merely possible and impossible worlds. (Priest 1997b: 580–1)

Yagisawa's *extended modal realism* proposes a realist account
of impossible worlds and *impossibilia*: impossible worlds, just
like Lewis' possible worlds, are concrete mereological sums of
individuals, causally and spatiotemporally isolated from each other
(see Yagisawa 1988). Yagisawa exploits the “argument from ways” we
have met above (though he also reinforces it with considerations on
the useful applications of impossible worlds): if quantification on
ways the world might be commits us to possible worlds, then, by parity
of reasoning, quantification on ways the world might not be commits us
to impossible worlds. Extended modal realism is quite a strong
position: concrete impossible worlds represent absolute and logical
impossibilities directly, by instantiating them. So impossibilities
and, in particular, logical inconsistencies, are “out there” in
reality. This depends on the fact that, for a modal realist (though
not for an ersatzist), the inference from “At
world *w*, *Px* and not *Px*” to “At
world *w*, *Px*, and it is not the case that, at
world *w*, *Px*” is legitimate (this is a point we shall
return to in Section 6).

A more moderate option treats impossible worlds as ersatz constructions, abstract entities on a par with ersatz possible worlds (see e.g. Mares 1997, Vander Laan 1997). This option embeds various sub-options, for modal ersatzism comes in various shapes. If one takes possible worlds as maximally consistent sets of propositions (as per Adams 1974), impossible worlds could be sets of propositions that are occasionally inconsistent and/or incomplete. Similarly, Plantingan ersatzism (worlds are states of affairs) or Stalnakerian ersatzism (worlds are world-natures or maximal properties) could be easily extended to impossible worlds; and all hands agree that such worlds come at no great ontological or theoretical cost, once one has accepted ersatz possible worlds. After all, ersatz worlds are abstract: they account for impossibilities, not by instantiating them, but by representing them in some way or other. The extension is particularly straightforward for linguistic ersatzism: possible worlds are world-books, maximal-complete stories, that is, sets of sentences of a “worldmaking” language (Carnap's state-descriptions, Jeffrey's complete consistent novels, etc.); and it is easy to admit impossible worlds of the same kind, that is, world-books which are occasionally inconsistent (and, say, incomplete).

However, there may be reasons to break the symmetry and reject the
Parity Thesis. For instance, if Lewis' criticisms of ersatzism
in *On the Plurality of Worlds* are right, then each ersatz
account of impossible worlds inherits the limits of ersatz theories of
possible worlds: each of these theories has to resort to intensional
entities taken as primitive (such as propositions or states of
affairs) in its explanation of what ersatz worlds are, or to primitive
modal notions (most often, to both).

Suppose that, instead, one wants to retain the advantages of both
worlds (no pun intended), ersatz and genuine, when it comes to
impossibilities. Suppose, that is, that (a) one wants to employ a
modal framework including both possible and impossible worlds to
retain the theoretical benefits provided by the latter; (b) one wants
to stick to Lewis' project of a reductive account of intensional and
modal notions to fully extensional ones (*contra* ersatzism); but
also, (c) one wants to avoid the unwelcome consequences of concrete
impossible worlds instantiating impossibilities, such as having true
contradictions “out there” in reality (*contra* Yagisawa's
extended modal realism). One could then try the following hybrid
solution: (1) go realist when it's about possible worlds, and (2)
exploit the set-theoretic machinery of modal realism to represent
different impossible worlds as distinct ersatz, abstract
constructions.

To fulfil these *desiderata*, Berto 2009 proposes (following
suggestions from Divers 2002: Ch. 5) an intermediate account, labeled
as *Hybrid Modal Realism* (HMR), which dispenses with the Parity
Thesis. In this account, genuine, concrete possible worlds are the
basic stuff. Basic, atomic propositions are taken as sets of possible
worlds. And distinct impossible situations can be represented by
distinct world-books or world-stories, taken as sets constructed out
of atomic propositions. If books-stories are sets of atomic
propositions, then they are sets of sets of genuine possible
worlds. So we can have distinct inconsistent world-books, taken as
sets of mutually inconsistent propositions, representing intuitively
distinct impossibilities.

For instance, take two distinct contradictions, *A* ∧
¬*A* and *B* ∧ ¬*B*, where *A*
and *B* express ordinary, contingent propositions. Now consider
a simplified model *M* =
{*w*_{1}, *w*_{2}, *w*_{3},
*w*_{4}, *w*_{5}} as the set of genuine,
concrete possible worlds. Say that the proposition that *A* =
{*w*_{1}, *w*_{2}}, so the proposition that
¬*A* =
{*w*_{3}, *w*_{4}, *w*_{5}},
i.e., the set-theoretic complement of the proposition that *A*
in *M*. Say that the proposition that *B* =
{*w*_{2}, *w*_{3}, *w*_{4}}, so
the proposition that ¬*B* =
{*w*_{1}, *w*_{5}}. Now the impossible
proposition that *A* ∧ ¬*A* just is the
inconsistent set {{*w*_{1}, *w*_{2}},
{*w*_{3}, *w*_{4}, *w*_{5}}},
whereas the impossible proposition that *B* ∧
¬*B* just is the inconsistent set
{{*w*_{2}, *w*_{3}, *w*_{4}},
{*w*_{1}, *w*_{5}}}; and these are distinct
inconsistent sets of sets of worlds (they are sets of mutually
disjoint sets of genuine worlds).

A metaphysical account of impossible worlds, alternative both to
ersatzism and to Lewisian realism, has been proposed in Zalta
1997. Zalta's powerful theory of abstract objects is based upon his
logic of *encoding*, whose core idea consists in postulating an
ambiguity in the copula of predication: “*x* is *P*” can
mean that object *x* exemplifies property *P*, as per
ordinary predication; but it may also mean that *x* *encodes
P*, encoding being a non-standard mode of predication. An object
which encodes a property is determined by it, but without
instantiating or exemplifying it. Abstract objects are objects that
encode properties, besides exemplifying them; in particular, they can
encode properties they do not exemplify (see Zalta 1983). Within this
theory, *situations* are defined as abstract objects that encode
states of affairs (taken as 0-ary properties); and impossible worlds
are taken as maximal situations that are not possible, that is, such
that it is not possible that all the states of affairs encoded by them
simultaneously obtain.

Zalta claims that, despite treating worlds as abstract objects, this
is not an ersatz conception of worlds. A given state of affairs
*p*'s obtaining
at world *w* (no matter whether *w* is possible or
impossible) is analyzed as:

(Z)wencodes the propertybeing-such-that-p,

and so *being-such-that-p* is predicated, in the encoding
sense, of *w*. As such, *w* doesn't merely represent the
possibility or impossibility that *p*, rather it *is* (in
a disambiguated sense) such that *p*. Therefore, due to the
(Z)-clause Zalta's worlds are not just representations of
(im-)possibilities, such as sets of sentences or the like: since they
encode the states of affairs obtaining at them, according to the logic
of encoding worlds are actually *determined*, that is,
metaphysically characterized, by such states of affairs.

A deeply anti-realist approach to modal metaphysics is modal fictionalism: talk about possible worlds as a whole is interpreted as a useful fiction, not literally true and thus not ontologically committing. This is quite a recent approach, and it is to be expected that it soon be extended to impossible worlds as well. A first proposal in this direction is made by JC Beall 2008: according to Beall, a fictional or instrumental approach to non-normal worlds can be especially motivated by the idea that these are worlds where “logical fictions”, that is, envisaged logically impossible situations, take place.

## 4. The Structure of Impossible Worlds

Besides the one of their ontological nature, there is another issue
theories of impossible worlds disagree on; this concerns impossible
worlds specifically, that is, it is a topic on which there is no
correlative issue concerning possible worlds. It has to do with the
amount of (logical) *structure* such worlds can have. For it
makes sense to claim that impossible worlds display different degrees
of anarchic behavior: Kripkean non-normal worlds for non-normal modal
logics, for instance, appear to be logically more structured than
fully anarchic Rantala worlds. Now, should impossible worlds
with *any* degree of logical structure (or lack thereof) be
admitted in our favorite impossible worlds theory, or not? And given
that their non-logical behavior comes in degrees, can they be ordered
in a meaningful way? This section focuses on these two questions.

### 4.1 Two Stances on Impossible Worlds

A first reply to the first question may be labeled as the “Australasian stance”: it is (typically) favored by paraconsistent and relevant logicians (see e.g. Restall 1997; Mares 1997; Goble 2006), and emphasized in Priest 2001 and 2005. In the Australasian approach, worlds are constituents of interpretations of some paraconsistent logic or other, which imposes to them some logical structure: they are closed under a paraconsistent consequence relation, which is normally weaker than classical consequence relation.

This position draws especially on the conception of impossible worlds as worlds where logical laws may fail or be different. It is naturally allied to the idea that, at the (admissible) impossible worlds, only intensional operators, such as a strict or relevant conditional, and the box and diamond, behave in a non-standard fashion. After all, it is the behavior of such operators that concerns the laws of logic. The truth conditions for conjunction, disjunction, or the quantifiers, should remain the same as in possible worlds. As Priest puts it:

There are no [non-normal] worlds at whichA∧Bis true, butAis not, or at which ¬¬Ais true, butAis not. But it is conditionals that express the laws of logic, not conjunctions or negations. That is why it is their behaviour (and only theirs) that changes at non-normal worlds. (Priest 2001: 172)

There is an alternative reply to the question on the structure of
impossible worlds, which may be labeled as the “American stance”, for
it reflects the opinion of north-American impossible worlds theorists,
such as Vander Laan 1997, and Zalta 1997. The American stance focuses
on the definition of impossible worlds as ways things could not be,
and adopts what we may call an “unrestricted comprehension principle”
for worlds; this might be roughly expressed by the slogan:
For *any* way the world could not be, there is some impossible
world which is like that. How to make this slogan more precise is not
a trivial business; for instance, one may claim that, given any two
sets of formulas *S* and *T*, there's a world at which
everything in *S* holds and nothing in *T* does. Of
course, this delivers particularly anarchic worlds, not closed under
any notion of logical consequence, and not structured as the
interpretations of any (however weak) logic.

The most convincing philosophical defense of the American stance is
due, ironically, to the Australian Daniel Nolan. As Nolan (1997) has
emphasized, there are a couple of reasons to hold this view. The first
is that one can avoid altering (or had *better not* alter) too
much the logic, and can even stick to a classical notion of logical
consequence. If any law whatsoever can be broken at some impossible
world or other, weakening our logical consequence to make room for
such worlds, and to provide a logic that holds in every situation,
possible or not, will be pointless. A second reason is that those who
make room only for some impossibilities would have to provide
a *principled* distinction between impossibilities that obtain at
some impossible world, and impossibilities that obtain at no worlds at
all. This looks like an uncomfortable halfway position, subject to
“slippery slope” arguments. This does not mean that principled
distinctions cannot be given. For instance, the one advanced by Priest
above, and based on the idea of leaving extensional operators that do
not “express laws of logic” alone, may meet someone's
intuitions. However, for specific purposes we may be interested in
worlds where also basic extensional principles, such as Adjunction for
∧, fail, and there seems to be no *a priori* reason to put a
ban on them.

### 4.2 The Closeness of Impossible Worlds

If impossible worlds display different degrees of logical structure
(or lack thereof), it may make sense to order them. A natural way to
do it is via an extension of the traditional “closeness” relations
between possible worlds. How to spell out the ordering in detail,
though, is far from straightforward. Within standard conditional
logics, and in the treatment of counterfactual conditionals in terms
of possible worlds due to Robert Stalnaker (1968), and David Lewis
(1973), worlds stand in similarity relations; and similarity comes by
degrees. This is usually represented by having each possible
world, *w*, come with a system of “spheres”. If *W* is the
set of all worlds, let $ be a function from worlds to sets of subsets
of *W*, so that $(*w*) =
{*S*_{1}, *S*_{2}, … ,
*S*_{n}}, with *S*_{1}
⊆ *S*_{2} ⊆ …
⊆ *S*_{n} = *W*. worlds within a given
sphere *S*_{i}, 1 ≤ *i* ≤ *n*, are
more similar to *w* than worlds outside it.

It is also natural to have the possible worlds arranged around the actual world (call it “@”), in a system of nested spheres that mirror the degree of (dis)similarity of possible worlds with respect to @, according to the different kinds of possibilities and (relative) impossibilities they represent. For instance, a world which is exactly like @, except that I wear a white t-shirt instead of the black one I'm actually wearing while writing these lines, is, intuitively, closer to @ than a world at which all the laws of biology are turned upside down, so that I can be born twice, or lay eggs from which dinosaurs drop put. Some people have a general, intuitive depiction of such closeness relations, and set out a hierarchy of modalities accordingly: possible worlds where the laws of physics are different from ours are naturally seen as more eccentric than worlds where only biological, but not physical, laws are different; and these are more eccentric than possible worlds with minimal changes with respect to @, such as the white t-shirt world.

Can such a natural view be extended to impossible worlds? And if so,
how? First, it is intuitive to claim that some impossible worlds are
more similar to the actual world @ than others. For instance, the
“explosion” world (call it *e*) at which everything is the case,
that is, at which every sentence is true, seems to be as far from @ as
one can imagine — provided one can actually imagine or conceive
such an extremely absurd situation. Now, pick the impossible
world, *t*, at which everything is as in @, except that I wear an
impossible t-shirt which is white all over and black all
over. Intuitively, *t* is quite closer to @ than *e*.

Next, some authors (e.g. Mares 1997) favor what Nolan 1997 has dubbed
a *Strangeness of Impossibility Condition* (SIC): any possible
world, however weird, should be closer to @ than any impossible
world. *Prima facie*, this appears to be intuitive: the Hell will
freeze (that is, the physical and, perhaps, metaphysical reality will
be turned upside down) before logical laws abandon us. Besides, the
SIC allows for a generalized treatment of counterfactual conditionals
in which counterfactuals with possible antecedents are analyzed as per
the standard Lewis-Stalnaker approach; and the treatment of
counterpossible conditionals, that is, counterfactuals with impossible
antecedents (to which we shall return in the following Section), comes
in as a smooth extension of the standard view. If this is so, a system
of spheres for impossible worlds centered on @ will just extend the
intuitive possible worlds spheres described above, by adding further,
larger spheres where worlds outside (logical, or more generally
unrestricted) possibility stand. But how are these latter to be
internally ordered?

One very general option, that could actually be seen as a way of
reconciling the Australasian and American stances above, is the
following. Even though we subscribe to an unrestricted comprehension
principle for impossible worlds, we may admit that worlds where only
the intensional operators behave in a non-standard fashion are less
deviant and anarchic than worlds where also the extensional operators
do. Let us call worlds of the former kind *intensionally*
impossible, and worlds of the latter kind, *extensionally*
impossible. This picture (inspired by Priest 2005, Ch. 1) has some
intuitive force to recommend it: for instance, Kripkean non-normal
worlds where Necessitation fails are intuitively less deviant than
Rantala worlds where all formulas may behave
arbitrarily. Generalizing, such a view would entail arranging the
respective spheres in such a way that any intensionally impossible
world is closer to @ than any extensionally impossible one.

This very general ordering of impossibilities, albeit intuitive, may not be fully satisfying. Firstly, it is not clear where one should place such items as the Rescher-Brandom non-adjunctive worlds: for these worlds, despite being deviant with respect to conjunction and anarchic when it's about multi-premise logical consequence, still are closed with respect to any (classically valid) single-premise inference.

Secondly, there is a more general qualm concerning the SIC
principle itself. For one may claim that, intuitively, some slightly
deviant impossible worlds may be *more* similar to the actual
world @ than some possible but very weird worlds. For instance, the
impossible world *t* above, which is like @ except for my wearing
an inconsistent T-shirt, looks more familiar than a world which is
logically possible, but where the laws of physics and biology are
turned upside down.

Although we cannot pursue this topic further within the limits of this entry, the discussion developed so far should show that the issue of the structure, closeness and ordering of impossible worlds is quite open.

## 5. Applications of Impossible Worlds

This Section briefly describes various applications of impossible worlds, which collectively provide the main motivation for introducing them. We have already had a look at some applications in our exposition of the various impossible worlds theories. Modeling intentional states is a prominent one. As we have seen when introducing the Rantala frames, intentional states such as belief can be inconsistent — at least, covertly so — and not closed under (ordinary) logical consequence, so impossible worlds come as a natural candidate to model such states: the content of a belief state can be analyzed as the set of worlds that make the beliefs true, that is, where things stand as they are believed to be, and this may include impossible worlds of various kinds.

Independently from psychological states, but in close connection
with the issue of inconsistent information, one could be interested in
using impossible worlds to model inconsistent *databases* (see
Barwise 1997). These may consist, for instance, in sets of data
supplied by different sources which are inconsistent with each other,
such as incompatible evidence presented by different witnesses in a
trial. In this case, impossible worlds of the non-adjunctive kind are
particularly useful. Intuitively, whereas one is allowed to draw the
logical consequences of the data fed in by a single source, one should
not conjoin data from distinct sources which could be inconsistent
with each other. The data base is “compartimentalized”, so to speak:
occasional inconsistencies are placed in separate sectors, not
conjunctively asserted, and sterilized from an inferential point of
view (See e.g., Hyde 1997, Brown & Priest 2004).

Inconsistent information is at issue also in certain works of
fiction. Lewis' classic 1978 paper proposed an analysis of the
expression “true in such-and-such fiction” in terms of possible
worlds: what holds in a certain fictional work is what holds at a set
of possible worlds, properly selected via a series of (quite subtle
and complex) clauses. But fiction can be occasionally
inconsistent. Sometimes, this happens unintentionally: Conan
Doyle's *The Sign of the Four* describes Watson as limping
because of a war wound at his leg. In *A Study in Scarlet*,
however, Watson has no wound at his leg (for it is located in his
shoulder), and he doesn't limp. One may claim that the set of
(selected) worlds that make such stories true just has to be split
into disjoint subsets, making true consistent fragments of the
fiction. However, sometimes the author's say-so cannot be
appropriately overridden by a semantic treatment that explains away
the contradiction via a fragmentation strategy: for inconsistencies in
fiction may also be intentional (as stressed by Proudfoot
2006). Suppose we write a novel, and in its first chapter we have the
Mad Mathematician produce a round square. If the intentional
inconsistency is excised, the fact that mathematicians all over the
world are amazed by this result in the second chapter becomes
unexplainable. A natural treatment of these cases, then, is obtained
by admitting (again, appropriately selected) impossible worlds in the
set of situations that realize what is told in the story (see
e.g. Priest 1997b; Woods 2003, Ch. 6; Berto 2008).

Closely connected to belief is the notion of propositional
content. Within possible worlds semantics, propositions can be defined
as functions from worlds to truth values, or as sets of worlds: a
proposition is the set of worlds at which it is true. Such an account
has a notorious “granularity problem” (Barwise 1997) with impossible
propositions: intuitively distinct impossible propositions (that swans
are blue and it is not the case that swans are blue, that Fermat's
Last Theorem is false, that Charles is a married bachelor) hold at the
same possible worlds: none — and, of course, we have a dual problem
with (unrestrictedly) necessary propositions, that are all identified
as the total set of worlds. Treating propositions as set-theoretic
constructions out of possible worlds leads to a very coarse
individuation of propositions, and because of this it has been subject
to seemingly devastating attacks, for instance, by Scott Soames
1987. However, impossible worlds allow for fine-grained distinctions
unavailable in standard possible worlds semantics. That the
proposition expressed by *A* is impossible does not mean that it is an
empty set of worlds, but rather that it includes only impossible
worlds. And we can have an impossible world, *w*_{1},
with inconsistent swans; a distinct impossible
world, *w*_{2}, at which Fermat's Last Theorem is false;
and a still distinct impossible world, *w*_{3}, at which
bachelors are married but swans and Diophantine equations behave
wisely.

One other application of impossible worlds worth mentioning
concerns *perceptual* impossibilities which, despite being
unrealizable at the actual world, may well be epistemic situations one
can be involved in — for instance, when viewing an impossible object,
such as an Escher drawing or a Penrose triangle. These are impossible,
yet determined figures, and splitting them into smaller consistent
parts would make us lose the essential feature of the whole, that is,
precisely its being perceived as impossible. This issue is explored in
Mortensen 1997.

### 5.1 Counterpossible Reasoning

Perhaps the most important application of impossible worlds has to
do with counterpossible reasoning. This kind of reasoning, in fact, is
often indicated as providing independent motivation for believing in
impossible worlds, as we have seen in the first Section. In the
aforementioned Lewis-Stalnaker theories of counterfactuals, a
subjunctive conditional of the form “If it were the case
that *A*, then it would be the case that *B*” is true if
and only if, at the closest world (or worlds, depending on the
specific account) at which *A* is true, *B* is
true. While the standard conditional logics based on this idea have
been quite successful in the treatment of counterfactuals, the
approach entails that any subjunctive whose antecedent is impossible,
that is, true at no possible world, is vacuously true: there being no
worlds at which *A* is true, any closest *A*-world is
trivially a
*B*-world.

This is unsatisfying in many respects, for, as should be clear at this point, we often need to nontrivially reason about theories which (perhaps unbeknownst to us) cannot possibly be correct, that is, to reason from premises that may turn out to be not only false, but necessarily so. Three contexts in which theories of this kind show up quite often, mentioned in the first Section of this entry, are discourses on (1) alternative logics, (2) mathematical conjectures, and (3) metaphysical views. We will now say a few words on each of them.

(1) A famous Quinean motto has it that “to change the logic is to
change the subject”: apparently disagreeing logical parties are
actually speaking of different things. So when intuitionists deny that
the Law of Excluded Middle holds in non-finitary contexts, they are
actually taking truth as provability; and when paraconsistentists
claim that some formula can be true (in some weird circumstances)
together with its negation, they are not talking of *negation*
anymore (see e.g. Berto 2006).

But this makes a nonsense of too many disputes between intuitionists, classical logicians, paraconsistentists, quantum logicians, etc. It is more fruitful to assume that each party generally understands the rival logics as intelligible, albeit necessarily false, theories. Even if classical logic actually is the One True Logic, one can reason counterpossibly on what would be the case if a certain non-classical logic were the correct one (e.g., “If intuitionistic logic were correct, then the Law of Excluded Middle would fail” is true and “If intuitionistic logic were correct, then the Law of Explosion would fail” is false). One can take into account situations at which the Law of Excluded Middle fails, and argue on what would and would not happen in them. These situations are, by classical standards, just impossible worlds (of the third kind).

(2) Similar claims can be made for mathematical conjectures, if we assume, as some do, that mathematical necessity is unrestricted, that is, coextensive with logical necessity. Different set theorists have different views on controversial subjects such as non-well-founded sets, the Continuum Hypothesis, the Axiom of Choice, the set/(proper-)class distinction, etc. If one embraces the Platonic view (subscribed to, at least implicitly, by many set theorists) that there is One True Universe of sets, then at most one of the alternative set theories can be correct: the others are wrong, and necessarily so. But people can work under the hypothesis that a necessarily false basic mathematical principle holds, and reason coherently from this:

It is doubtless true that nothing sensible can be said about how things would be different if there were no number 17; that is largely because the antecedent of this counterfactual gives us no hints as to what alternative mathematics is to be regarded as true in the counterfactual situation in question. If one changes the example to “Nothing sensible can be said about how things would be different if the axiom of choice were false”, it seems wrong … : if the axiom of choice were false, the cardinals wouldn't be linearly ordered, the Banach-Tarski theorem would fail and so forth. (Field 1989: 237–8)

Whereas Fields takes this as an argument to the effect that mathematical necessity is not coextensive with logical necessity, one could turn the tables around: mathematical necessity is unrestricted, so false mathematical theories are just impossible theories.

(3) The third area in which counterpossible reasoning comes into
play are metaphysical disputes. Much metaphysical talk is made with
our quantifiers “wide open”, that is, aiming at stating truths on all
that there was, is, or could possibly be. This is evident in modal
ontology, when people advance a theory on the totality of worlds
and on their nature. But other metaphysical debates easily come to
mind. If a philosopher is
to evaluate metaphysical theories which she considers wrong (say, in
order to draw unpalatable consequences by way of criticism), such as
Spinoza's monism or Hegel's metaphysics of the Absolute, then she must
envisage situations where such metaphysics are correct, and wonder
what would be the case at them: situations at which there is only one
substance, or at which the Absolute *Geist* necessarily shapes
the teleological development of history; and these situations will be,
under the hypotheses we have made, impossible worlds.

Semantic structures for counterpossible conditionals involving impossible worlds were first introduced by Routley 1989, and have been proposed by Read 1995, Mares & Fuhrmann 1995, Mares 1997, and Nolan 1997. These are natural extension of Lewis' (1973) semantics for counterfactuals, which capture several strong intuitions on counterpossible conditionals and counterpossible reasoning. The main task for such theories consists in accounting for the concepts of closeness and qualitative similarity between worlds, once impossible worlds enter the stage. As we have hinted at above, how to fine-tune these notions is not a trivial matter (for an extensive discussion, see Vander Laan 2004).

## 6. Objections to Impossible Worlds

This last Section discusses some difficulties of impossible worlds
theories. A general objection to impossible worlds has been raised by
David Lewis in *On the Plurality of Worlds*. It is based on the
assumption that the expression “at world *w*” works as a
restricting modifier: its main task consists in restricting the
quantifiers within its scope to parts of *w*. If so, then it
should distribute through the truth-functional connectives. This means
in particular that:

Atw: (A∧ ¬A)

entails:

Atw:A∧ ¬(Atw:A).

Thus, any inconsistency at some impossible world automatically spills
over into an overt inconsistency at the *actual* world. This is
hard to swallow, unless one is a
*dialetheist*,
that is, a believer in true contradictions.

The objection works only if impossible worlds are taken as
Lewisian *concreta*, as per Yagisawa's extended modal realism. If
a way the world might not be is a way some concrete impossible world
is, impossibilities are out there: there exist *impossibilia*
that instantiate them. As we have seen, this option on the metaphysics
of impossible worlds is not mandatory, however: we may just reject the
Parity Thesis, and be realists on possible worlds while providing an
ersatz account of the impossible ones; or we might just as well be
ersatzists *tout-court*. Now if impossible worlds are
world-books, or sets of propositions, or abstract objects of some
sort, they can represent or encode impossibilities without actually
instantiating them. So from the fact that, according to (the
impossible world) *w*: (*A* and it is not the case
that *A*), it does not follow that according
to *w*: *A*, and it is not the case that according
to *w*: *A*. Truths that hold in stories or
representations do not automatically carry over to the actual world
(e.g. it is true in Tolkien's *The Lord of the Rings* that there
exist orcs, but this does not entail that orcs exist at the actual
world).

An *inconveniens* for any kind of ersatzism on impossible
worlds has to do with how to qualify the standard semantic clause for
(unrestricted) possibility:

(P) It is possible thatAif and only if there's a worldwsuch that, atw,A,

without resorting to a primitive notion of modality. Once impossible worlds enter the stage, (P) becomes false from right to left. We therefore need a principle that restricts the quantification in the right half of the biconditional to possible worlds; how to do that without appealing to modal notions is an unsolved problem. Each species of ersatz modal realism affords the resources to produce ersatz impossible worlds, so to speak, “out of the same stuff” ersatz possible worlds are made of: ersatz impossible worlds are of the same kind as their possible mates (and it should be noticed that in Zalta's account of possible and impossible worlds, taken as abstract objects encoding states of affairs, possibility enters as a constituent notion in the definition; Zalta's theory takes modality as primitive).

To this *inconveniens*, the ersatzist may reply by just biting
the bullet. Even without admitting impossible worlds, most possible
worlds accounts do not aim at providing a reductive and complete
analysis of modality (Lewis' modal realism does; but it may not
succeed, when so-called “alien” properties, that is, properties that
are not instantiated by anything at the actual world, enter the stage
— on this, see Divers 2002, Ch. 7; Divers & Melia 2002). In
fact, it is a common thought that possibility, necessity, and related
modal notions, form a tight circle of interrelated concepts, so that
none of them can be analyzed without resorting to some other notion in
the circle.

Two objections against impossible worlds have been raised by Stalnaker 1996. According to Stalnaker, there is nothing wrong in admitting impossible worlds taken as sets of propositions that are locally inconsistent and incomplete. However, not much explanatory work is to be expected from them: for instance, if one takes worlds as sets of propositions, one cannot then analyze propositions as sets of worlds.

To this one may reply, firstly, that the problem does not affect impossible worlds specifically, for the same point can be made against any account of possible worlds (such as Adams') that takes them as maximally consistent sets of propositions; secondly, that impossible worlds may be accounted for metaphysically in several other ways, as we have seen; and thirdly, that even a theory of (possible and impossible) worlds as sets of propositions may be useful for explanatory purposes different from the one of accounting for propositions and their properties.

The second Stalnakerian objection, connected to the aforementioned
Lewisian one, focuses on the semantics of negation. The standard
semantic clause for negation has it that ¬*A* is true if and only if
*A* is not true. So there could not be worlds at which
both *A* and ¬*A* are true, unless we revise the
semantics of negation. And negation is such a basic operator (whose
semantics is “learned in a first logic class”, Stalnaker says) that it
had better be left alone.

To this, the impossible world theorist can reply that it *is*
in fact the case that ¬*A* is true if and only
if *A* is not true; for this concerns truth *simpliciter*,
that is, truth at the actual world. She may also agree that the same
holds for any possible world. But it is precisely *im*possible
worlds that we are talking about here; how negation works at any
possible world need not be affected by the fact that, at some
impossible world or other, some sentence can hold together with its
negation: this is one of the things that makes them impossible, after
all.

Tim Williamson has recently objected to the idea that counterpossible conditionals can be false, or non-trivially true, along the following lines. Consider the claim:

(1) If 5 + 7 were 13, then 5 + 6 would be 12.

*Prima facie*, this is a non-trivially true
counterpossible. However, Williamson argues, other such non-trivial
consequences would then be that 5 + 5 = 11, and 5 + 4 = 10, and ... ,
and 0 = 1. Therefore,

(2) If the number of answers I gave to a given question were 0, then the number of answers I gave would be 1.

but (2) is clearly false (see Williamson 2007).

A reply by Brogaard & Salerno 2007, consists in putting Williamson in front of a dilemma: either we hold the context fixed in this kind of counterpossible reasoning, or we don't. If we don't, then (2) does not follow from (1). In particular, the context at which (2) comes out false is one at which the closest antecedent worlds are possible and, to be sure, at those worlds, 0 is not 1. But if we hold the context fixed, then what does follow is just the following counterpossible:

(3) If 0 were 1 and the number of right answers I gave were 0, then the number of right answers I gave would be 1.

Now this is intuitively true, and non-trivially so.

Undoubtedly, other objections to impossible worlds can and are likely to be raised. In fact, the debate on impossible worlds appears to be nowadays at the same stage as the one on possible worlds some thirty-five years ago. At the time, people struggled to make sense of the concept of possible world, or just declared it meaningless. Nowadays, the variety of its applications has placed the notion firmly at the core of much philosophical and logical practice (see e.g., Divers 2002, Ch. 4). Impossible worlds may undergo the same fate, should they prove as useful as they appear to be in the treatment of impossibilities of various kinds. If so, impossible worlds may show that the kingdom of the absurd is not like Hegel's night, in which all cows are black.

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## Related Entries

actualism | contradiction | dialetheism | fictionalism: modal | logic: conditionals | logic: epistemic | logic: modal | logic: paraconsistent | logic: relevance | possible worlds

## Acknowledgments

The author would like to thank JC Beall, Berit Brogaard, Nicola Ciprotti, Ira Kiourti, Daniel Nolan, Graham Priest, Greg Restall, Achille Varzi, Heinrich Wansing, and an anonymous referee, for helpful comments, suggestions, and references.