#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of the Principle of Extensionality from Basic Law V

[Note: We use ε*F* to
denote the extension of the concept *F*.]

Assume *Extension*(*x*)
and *Extension*(*y*). Then ∃*F*(*x*
= ε*F*) and ∃*G*(*y* =
ε*G*). Let *P*,*Q* be arbitrary such
concepts; i.e., suppose *x* = ε*P*
and *y* = ε*Q*.

Now to complete the proof, assume
∀*z*(*z*∈*x*
≡ *z*∈*y*). It then follows that
∀*z*(*z* ∈ ε*P*
≡ *z* ∈ ε*Q*). So, by the Law of
Extensions and the principles of predicate logic, we may convert both
conditions in the universalized biconditional to establish that
∀*z*(*Pz* ≡ *Qz*). So by Basic Law
V, ε*P* = ε*Q*. So *x* = *y*.