#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of the Law of Extensions

[Note: We use ε*F* to denote the extension of the
concept *F*.]

We want to show, for an arbitrarily chosen concept *P* and
an arbitrarily chosen object *c*, that *c* ∈
ε*P* ≡ *Pc*.

(→) Assume *c* ∈ ε*P* (to show
*Pc*). Then, by the definition of ∈, it follows
that

∃H(εP= εH&Hc)

Suppose that Q is such a property. Then, we know

εP= εQ&Qc

But, by Basic Law V, the first conjunct implies
∀*x*(*Px* ≡ *Qx*). So from the fact
that *Qc*, it follows that *Pc*.

(←) Assume *Pc* (to show *c* ∈
ε*P*). Then, by the Existence of Extensions
principle, *P* has an extension, namely, ε*P*.
So by the laws of identity, we know ε*P* =
ε*P*. We may conjoin this with our assumption to
conclude

εP= εP&Pc

Now by existential generalizing on the concept *P*, it
follows that

∃H(εP= εH&Hc)

Thus, by the definition of ∈, it
follows that *c* ∈ ε*P*.