#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 2.17

**Proposition 2.17**(Aumann 1976)

Let M be the meet of the agents' partitions H

_{i}for each

*i*∈

*N*. A proposition

*E*⊆ Ω is common knowledge for the agents of

*N*at ω iff M(ω) ⊆

*E*. In Aumann (1976),

*E*is

*defined*to be common knowledge at ω iff M(ω) ⊆

*E*.

**Proof**.

(⇐) By Lemma 2.16,
M(
ω
) is common knowledge at ω, so E is common knowledge at
ω by Proposition 2.4.

(⇒) We must show that **K***_{N}(*E*)
implies that
M(ω)
⊆ *E*. Suppose that there exists ω′ ∈
M(ω) such that
ω′
∉
*E*.
Since ω′ ∈
M(ω),
ω′ is reachable from
ω, so there exists a sequence 0, 1, … ,
*m*−1 with
associated states ω_{1}, ω_{2}, … ,
ω_{m} and information sets
H_{ik}(ω_{k}) such that
ω_{0} = ω, ω_{m} = ω′,
and ω_{k} ∈
H_{ik}(ω_{k+1}).
But at information set
H_{ik}(ω_{m}),
agent *i*_{k} does not know event
*E*. Working backwards on *k*, we see that event
*E* cannot be common knowledge, that is, agent
*i*_{1} cannot rule out the possibility that agent
*i*_{2} thinks that … that agent
*i*_{m−1} thinks that agent
*i*_{m} does not know *E*.
□

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@gmail.com*>

Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@sas.upenn.edu*>