#### Supplement to Inductive Logic

## Proof of the Falsification Theorem

Here we prove a version of the Falsification Theorem that only assumes
*condition-independence*. In the following, if
*result-independence* holds as well, all occurrences of
‘(*c*^{k−1}·*e*^{k−1})’
may be dropped, which gives the theorem stated in the main text. If
neither *independence condition* holds, the following proof
still works, but with all occurrences of
‘*c*_{k}·(*c*^{k−1}·*e*^{k−1})’
replaced by
‘*c*^{n}·*e*^{k−1}’
and with occurrences of
‘*b*·*c*^{k−1}’
replaced by
‘*b*·*c*^{n}’.

**Theorem 1: The Falsification Theorem:**

Suppose *c*^{m}, a subsequence of the whole
evidence sequence *c*^{n}, consists of
experiments or observations with the following property: whenever an
outcome sequence *e*^{k−1} of past
conditions *c*^{k−1} is *deemed
possible* by both
*h*_{j}·*b* and
*h*_{i}·*b*, there are outcomes
*o*_{ku} of the next condition
*c*_{k} *deemed impossible* by
*h*_{j}·*b* but *deemed
possible* by *h*_{i}·*b* to
at least some small degree δ. That is, suppose there is a
δ > 0 such that for each
*c*^{k−1} and each of its outcome
sequences *e*^{k−1}, if
*P*[*e*^{k−1} | *h*_{i}·*b*·*c*^{k−1}]
> 0 and
*P*[*e*^{k−1} | *h*_{j}·*b*·*c*^{k−1}]
> 0, then it is also the case that
*P*[∨
{*o*_{ku}:*P*[*o*_{ku} | *h*_{j}·*b*·*c*_{k}·(*c*^{k−1}·*e*^{k−1})]
= 0} | *h*_{i}·*b*·*c*_{k}·(*c*^{k−1}·*e*^{k−1})] ≥ δ. Then,

P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}]

= P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}] = 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}]≥ 1−(1−δ) ^{m},

which
approaches 1 for large *m*.

### Proof

First notice that for each *c*_{k} from *c*^{m},

(1−γ) ≥ P[∨_{u}{o_{ku}:P[o_{ku}|h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0} |h_{i}·b·c_{k}·(c^{k−1}·e^{k−1})]= ∑{ o_{ku}∈O_{k}:P[o_{ku}|h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0}P[o_{ku}|h_{i}·b·c_{k}·(c^{k−1}·e^{k−1})].

And for each *c*_{k} not from *c*^{m},

P[∨_{u}{o_{ku}:P[o_{ku}|h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0} |h_{i}·b·c_{k}·(c^{k−1}·e^{k−1})] = 1.

Then,

*P*[∨{*e*^{n} : *P*[*e*^{n} | *h*_{j}·*b*·*c*^{n}] >
0} | *h*_{i}·*b*·*c*^{n}]

= ∑{ e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0}P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}]= ∑{ e^{n−1}:P[e^{n−1}|h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0}

(∑{o_{nu}∈O_{n}:P[o_{nu}|h_{j}·b·c_{n}·(c^{n−1}·e^{n−1})] > 0}P[o_{nu}|h_{i}·b·c_{n}·(c^{n−1}·e^{n−1})]) ·P[e^{n−1}|h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}]= ∑{ e^{n−1}:P[e^{n−1}|h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0}

P[∨_{u}{o_{nu}:P[o_{nu}|h_{j}·b·c_{n}·(c^{ n−1}·e^{n−1})] > 0}|h_{i}·b·c_{n}·(c^{n−1}·e^{n−1})] ·P[e^{n−1}|h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}]≤ (1−γ) · ∑{ e^{n−1}:P[e^{n−1}|h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0}P[e^{n−1}|h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] (ifc_{n}is fromc^{m})or = ∑{ e^{n−1}:P[e^{n−1}|h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0}P[e^{n−1}|h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] (ifc_{n}is not fromc^{m})… ≤

m

Π

k= 1(1−γ)=(1−γ) ^{m}.

So,

P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}] = 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}] ≥ 1 − (1−γ)^{n}.

Also,

P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}] =P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}] = 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}],

because

P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}]

= ∑{ e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0}P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}]= ∑{ e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{ j}·b·c^{n}] > 0 &P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0}P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}]= ∑{ e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{ j}·b·c^{n}] > 0}P[e^{n}|h_{i}·b·c^{n}]= P[∨{e^{n}:P[e^{n}|h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0} |h_{i}·b·c^{n}].