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Supplement to Quantum Logic and Probability Theory

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- 1. Ordered sets
- 2. Lattices
- 3. Ortholattices
- 4. Orthomodularity
- 5. Closure Operators, Interior Operators and Adjunctions

*p**p**p**q*and*q**p*only if*p*=*q*.- if
*p**q*and*q**r*then*p**r*

If
*p**q*, we speak of *p* as
being *less than*, or *below* *q*, and of
*q* as being *greater than*, or *above*
*p*, in the ordering.

A *partially ordered set*, or *poset*, is a pair
(*P*,) where *P* is a set and
is a specified ordering on
*P*. It is usual to let *P* denote both the set and the
structure, leaving
tacit wherever possible.
Any collection of subsets of some fixed set *X*, ordered by
set-inclusion, is a poset; in particular, the full power set
(*X*) is a poset under set inclusion.

Let *P* be a poset. The *meet*, or *greatest lower
bound*, of *p*, *q*
∈ *P*, denoted by
*p**q*,
is the greatest element of *P* -- if there is one -- lying below
both *p* and *q*. The *join*, or *least upper
bound*, of *p* and *q*, denoted by
*p**q*,
is the least element of *P* -- if there is one -- lying above
both *p* and *q*. Thus, for any elements *p*,
*q*, *r* of *P*, we have

- if
*r**p**q*, then*r**p*and*r**q* -
if
*p**q**r*, then*p**r*and*q**r*

Note that
*p**p* =
*p**p* =
*p* for all *p* in *P*. Note also that
*p**q* iff
*p**q* = *p* iff
*p**q* = *q*.

Note that if
the set *P* =
(*X*), ordered by
set-inclusion, then
*p**q* =
*p*∩*q*
and
*p**q* =
*p*∪*q*.
However, if *P* is an arbitrary collection of subsets of
*X* ordered by inclusion, this need not be true. For instance,
consider the collection *P* of all subsets of
*X* = {1,2,...,*n*} having even cardinality.
Then, for instance,
{1,2}{2,3}
does not exist in *P*, since there is no
*smallest* set of 4 elements of *X* containing
{1,2,3}. For a different sort of example, let *X* be a vector
space and let *P* be the set of *subspaces* of
*X*. For subspaces **M** and **N**,
we have

MN=M∩N, butMN= span(M∪N).

The concepts of meet and join extend to infinite subsets of a poset
*P*. Thus, if
*A*⊆*P*, the meet of
*A* is the largest element (if any) below *A*, while
the join of *A* is the least element (if any) above
*A*. We denote the meet of *A* by
*A* or by
_{a∈A}
*a*.
Similarly, the join of *A* is denoted by
*A* or by
_{a∈A}
*a*.

A *lattice* is a poset
(*L*,)
in which every pair of elements has both a meet and a join. A
*complete lattice* is one in which *every* subset of
*L* has a meet and a join. Note that
(*X*)
is a complete lattice with respect to set inclusion, as is the set of
all subspaces of a vector space. The set of finite subsets of an
infinite set *X* is a lattice, but not a complete lattice. The
set of subsets of a finite set having an even number of elements is an
example of a poset that is not a lattice.

A lattice (*L*,) is *distributive*
iff meets distribute over joins and vice versa:

p(qr) = (pq) (pr), and

p(qr) = (pq) (pr).

The power set lattice
(*X*),
for instance, is distributive (as is any lattice of sets in which
meet and join are given by set-theoretic intersection and union). On
the other hand, the lattice of subspaces of a vector space is not
distributive, for reasons that will become clear in a moment.

A lattice *L* is said to be bounded iff it contains a smallest
element 0 and a largest element 1. Note that any complete lattice is
automatically bounded. For the balance of this appendix, *all
lattices are assumed to be bounded*, absent any indication to the
contrary.

A *complement* for an element *p* of a (bounded) lattice
*L* is another element *q* such that *p*
*q* = 0 and *p*
*q* = 1.

In the lattice
(*X*),
every element has exactly one complement, namely, its usual
set-theoretic complement. On the other hand, in the lattice of
subspaces of a vector space, an element will typically have infinitely
many complements. For instance, if *L* is the lattice of
subspaces of 3-dimensional Euclidean space, then a complement for a
given plane through the origin is provided by any line through the
origin not lying in that plane.

Proposition:

IfLis distributive, an element ofLcan have at most one complement.

Proof:

Suppose thatqandrboth serve as complements forp. Then, sinceLis distributive, we have

q= q1= q(pr)= ( qp) (qr)= 0 ( qr)= qrHence,

qr. Symmetrically, we haverq; thus,q=r.

Thus, no lattice in which elements have multiple complements is distributive. In particular, the subspace lattice of a vector space (of dimension greater than 1) is not distributive.

If a lattice *is* distributive, it may be that some of its
elements have a complement, while others lack a complement. A
distributive lattice in which every element has a complement is
called a *Boolean lattice* or a *Boolean algebra.* The
basic example, of course, is the power set
(*X*)
of a set *X*. More generally, any collection of subsets of
*X* closed under unions, intersections and complements is a
Boolean algebra; a theorem of Stone and Birkhoff tells us that, up to
isomorphism, every Boolean algebra arises in this way.

In some non-uniquely complemented (hence, non-distributive) lattices,
it is possible to pick out, for each element *p*, a preferred
complement
*p*′ in such a way that

- if
*p**q*then*q*′*p*′ *p*′′ =*p*

Note again that if a distributive lattice can be orthocomplemented at
all, it is a Boolean algebra, and hence can be orthocomplemented in
only one way. In the case of *L*(**H**) the
orthocomplementation one has in mind is
**M**
→
**M**^{⊥}
where
**M**^{⊥}
is defined as in Section 1 of the main text. More generally, if
**V** is any inner product space (complete or not), let
*L*(**V**) denote the set of subspaces
**M** of **V** such that
**M** =
**M**^{⊥⊥}
(such a subspace is said to be algebraically closed). This again is a
complete lattice, orthocomplemented by the mapping
**M**
→
**M**^{⊥}.

There is a striking order-theoretic characterization of the lattice of
closed subspaces of a Hilbert space among lattices
*L*(**V**) of closed subspaces of more general
inner product spaces. An ortholattice *L* is said to be
orthomodular iff, for any pair *p*, *q* in *L*
with
*p**q*,

(OMI) (qp′)p=q.

Note that this is a weakening of the distributive law. Hence, a
Boolean lattice is orthomodular. It is not difficult to show that if
**H** is a Hilbert space, then
*L*(**H**) is orthomodular. The striking converse
of this fact is due to Amemiya and Araki [1965]:

Theorem:

LetVbe an inner product space (overR,Cor the quaternions) such thatL(V) is orthomodular. ThenVis complete, i.e., a Hilbert space.

Let *P* and *Q* be posets. A mapping
*f* : *P*
→
*Q*
is *order preserving* iff for all
*p*,*q*
∈
*P*, if
*p**q*
then
*f*(*p*)*f*(*q*).

A *closure* *operator* on a poset *P* is an
order-preserving map
**cl** : *P* →
*P* such that for all *p*
∈
*P*,

**cl**(**cl**(*p*)) =*p**p***cl**(*p*).

Dually, an *interior operator* on *P* is an
order-preserving mapping
**int** : *P* →
*P* on *P* such that for all *p*
∈ *P*,

**int**(**int**(*p*)) =**int**(*p*)**int**(*p*)*p*

Elements in the range of **cl** are said to be
*closed*; those in the range of **int** are said
to be *open*. If *P* is a (complete) lattice, then the
set of closed, respectively open, subsets of *P* under a
closure or interior mapping is again a (complete) lattice.

By way of illustration, suppose that
and
are collections of subsets of a set *X* with
closed under arbitrary unions and
under arbitrary intersections. For any set *A*
⊆
*X*, let

cl(A) = ∩{C∈ |A⊆C}, and

int(A) = ∪{O∈ |O⊆A}

Then **cl** and **int** are interior
operators on (*X*), for which the
closed and open sets are precisely
and
,
respectively. The most familiar example, of course, is that in which
,
are the open and closed subsets, respectively, of a topological
space. Another important special case is that in which
is the set of linear subspaces of a vector space **V**;
in this case, the mapping
*span* : (**V**)
→
(**V**)
sending each subset of **V**
to its span is a corresponding closure.

An *adjunction* between two posets *P* and *Q* is
an ordered pair (*f*, *g*) of mappings
*f* : *P* →
*Q* and
*g* : *Q* →
*P* connected by the condition that, for all
*p* ∈ *P*,
*q* ∈ *Q*

f(p)qif and only ifpg(q).

In this case, we call *f* a *left adjoint* for
*g*, and call *g* a *right adjoint* for
*f*. Two basic facts about adjunctions, both easily proved,
are the following:

Proposition:

Letf:L→Mbe an order-preserving map between complete latticesLandM. Then

fpreserves arbitrary joins if and only if it has a right adjoint.fpreserves arbitrary meets if and only if it has a left adjoint.

Proposition:

Let (f,g) be an adjunction between complete latticesLandM. Then

gf:L→Lis a closure operator.fg:M→Mis an interior operator.

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Alexander Wilce wilce@susqu.edu |

Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy