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Notes to Kant's Philosophical Development
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1. The discovery of Kant's dislike of Christianity (documented during Kant's lifetime) is due to the efforts of Manfred Kuehn, University of Marburg. Kant's first biographers were L. E. Borowski, R. B. Jachmann, and E. A. C. Wasianski. Their accounts appeared in Königsberg, in the year of Kant's death (11 Feb. 1804). As the three writers knew their subject personally — Borowski had been his frequent guest; Jachmann had been his research assistant; and Wasianski had been his assistant and executor of will — their portraits were accepted as authoritative. All three had degrees in theology; Jachmann held church services, Wasianski was a deacon, and Borowski was a church administrator. They stressed the importance of Pietism for Kant and presented their subject as a good Christian. This distortion was partly due to an innocent projection of the biographers' preferences, but to some extent, it was also a systematic effort at spinning the facts, especially in the case of Borowski. Borowski worried that his association with Kant would harm his career and tried to preempt critics, for Kant's scorn for fundamentalists (Schwärmer) was notorious, and his influence was blamed for the empty churches in town. Kant was cool towards Christianity and did not support its doctrines. For the distortions of Kant's relation to Christianity, see Kuehn 2001, 2-16. For Kant's contempt for organized religion, disbelief in an afterlife, and rejection of a monotheistic God, see ibid, 328, 369-78, 382, and 392.

2. Kant's work spans half a century, from 1745 to 1801. The pre-critical period ends with the Inaugural Dissertation (1770); the critical period begins with the Critique of Pure Reason (1781). In between (1771-1780) lies the “silent decade” during which Kant quietly worked on the Critique. In old age, with the Strife of Faculties (1798) and the Opus Postumum (mainly written 1799-1801), he advanced claims at odds with the critical restrictions espoused earlier; hence the term “post-critical period.”

3. A critical oddity is Kant's contention that space is a force field (a “plenum” instead of a void). The early Kant claims that force created space by stretching itself out as a continuum. The late Kant claims that cognitive tools that organize experience are aspects of an energetic, material, and interactive fabric. This energy-field sustains consciousness and cognition — energetic space is the ultimate condition of experience. Even the Critique of Pure Reason contains suggestions of this sort, but there they conflict with the cautious tenor of the work (such that cognitive conditions are formal, not physical, or that the underlying fabric, the thing in itself, is inaccessible). For the early claims, cf. Thoughts on the True Estimation of Living Forces, # 1-10 (1:17-25). For the late claims, cf. the Opus Postumum-material, especially Reflexion 3986 (17:376-7), Oktaventwurf (21:378-9, 383); Transition 1-14 (21:219, 223-4, 226-30, 233, 247, 535, 539, 547-8, 564-5, 588-9, 592); Fascicle 11 (22:425-31, 440, 457); compare also Fascicle 1 (21:87.29-31 and 21:101.5-12). For the “plenum-proof” in the first Critique, cf. A211/B256-A214/B261; for an informative analysis, compare Edwards (2000), 13-47, esp. 38-40.

4. For Kant's views in the critical and late works, see the following entries: Kant's Critique of Metaphysics, Kant and Transcendental Arguments, Kant's Views on Space and Time.

5. Budde rejected in his Elementa philosophiae theoreticae (“Elements of Theoretical Philosophy”) the Copernican heliocentric model because it does not harmonize with the Scripture (IV.1). The Elementa was published in 1703 — more than a century after Copernicus's De Revolutionibus (1543) and two generations after Galileo's Two World Systems (1632). Lange deplored in his Medicina Mentis (1704; “Medicine of the Mind”) that the disease at the root of Adam's fall is intellect (part I, chapter 1); its cure depends on prayer and catechetical tenets (I.2, II.2-8). Logic, ontology, and natural philosophy are threats (I.3, V.7); science, as a secular enterprise, produces heresies and lies (V.5). Rüdiger argued in De sensu veri et falsi (1722; On the Meaning of Truth and Falsehood”) that the mathematics only concerns what is possible and cannot be applied to reality, thus rejecting quantifications of natural phenomena (II 4:3). Crusius insisted in Anleitung über natürliche Begebenheiten ordentlich und vorsichtig nachzudenken (1749; “Instructions on Thinking Orderly and Carefully about Natural Events”) that a physics that quantifies empirical data is misguided (p. 508) and rejected Newton's physics as a meaningful model of nature (ibid. 536).

6. “Nihil magis praestandum est, quam ne pecorum ritu sequamur antecedentium gregem, pergentes, non qua eundum est, sed qua itur.” See Seneca, De vita beata, chapter 1. Compare Living Forces 1:7.2-3.

7. Using the term “mass” here is somewhat anachronistic. Descartes spoke of “quantity of matter” (quantité de la matière), which he identified mostly with size and occasionally with weight. Leibniz talked about “magnitude of the body” (magnitude corporis), which he identified mostly with weight and occasionally with size. Newton introduced the concept of “mass” in De Motu (1684; hypothesis 2) and explicated it in the Principia (1686; first law). Mass is the measure of the amount of matter that determines a body's resistance to acceleration by an applied force. Newton's assumption that mass is constant works for local situations and speeds. A general definition of mass requires Einstein's correction that mass will increase at (very high) velocities.

8. The principle of the conservation of momentum and energy results from the convertibility of mass and energy. It applies to masses moving in spacetime and is visible in collisions. Momentum and energy, or more precisely, their combination, are the joint measure of mass. Momentum-energy is proportional to mass; it is a vector quantity (it depends on direction); and its arrow points in the same direction as the world line of the object in spacetime. When masses collide, their momentum and energy differ before and after impact, but their sum remains equal. Momentum-energy is fundamental: its conservation governs every collision in the universe, and it is also frame-invariant, remaining the same regardless of the chosen frame of reference.

9. In a nutshell, Einstein's first great insight (1905) is that spacetime tells mass how to move, while mass tells spacetime how to curve (Wheeler 1990, 12). That is, force and space mutually determine each other — “force” understood as momentum-energy (the measure of mass, and spacetime's grip on mass), and “space” understood as spacetime (the four-dimensional continuum). Consider the planets on their orbits around the Sun. While Newton assumed that gravitational forces act over spatial distances to hold Sun and planets in mutual grip, Einstein realized that gravitational forces form a field that locally curves space, primarily around the Sun, such that planets move along the spatial curvature, tracing out orbits. Hence (to quote Wheeler again, ibid. 11-13) mass grips spacetime, telling it how to curve; spacetime grips spacetime, transmitting curvature from near to far; and spacetime grips mass, telling it how to move. Force and space are not independent absolutes, as Newton had stipulated. Instead, and as Einstein discovered, both are relative to one another (hence “special theory of relativity” as label for the explication of this idea). Kant realized that force acts by Ausbreitung — “out-broadening” or radiation, and that the resulting space has Ausdehnung — “out-stretching” or extension/expansion. As radiation determines extension (by structuring space), extension determines radiation (by an inverse-square law). In this sense, by recognizing that radiation and extension hang together, that neither force nor space stand alone, Kant bypassed Newton and caught up with Einstein.

10. Kant writes (1:24.19-23): “Accordingly I am of the opinion that substances in the existing world, of which we are a part, have essential forces of such a kind that they propagate their effects in union with each other according to the inverse-square relation of the distances.”

11. Johannes Kepler formulated the inverse-square law in the Astronomia pars optica (1604). Kepler showed that the intensity of light decreases with the square of the distance (prop. 9); cf. Werke 2:22. He characterized light as the primordial living force, cf. chap. 1 (sec. “Lucis encomium”), Werke 2:19. He suspected the identity of the radiation of light and gravity, and applied the inverse-square law to gravitation; cf. letter to David Fabricius (11 Oct. 1605), Werke 15:241, and Astronomia nova (1609), introduction (sec. “Vera doctrina de gravitate”), Werke 3:25. Newton tied the inverse-square to Kepler's planetary laws (1684) and derived it for gravity (1687).

12. Bilfinger's book on Chinese philosophy is Specimen doctrinae veterum Sinarum moralis et politicae (1724; “Specimen of the Moral and Political Teachings of the Ancient Chinese”); his commentary on Wolff's German Metaphysics (1719) is Dilucidationes philosophicae de Deo, anima humana, mundo et generalibus rerum affectionibus (1725; “Philosophical Dilucidations of God, the Human Soul, the Word, and the General Impressions of Things”); and his treatise on force is De viribus corpori moto insitis et illarum mensura, (w. 1725-6, p. 1728; “On the Essential Forces of Bodily Motion and their Measure”). He states his heuristic rule in De viribus # 16. In his study of Chinese thought, Bilfinger was taken by the Doctrine of the Mean (Zhong Yong). This Confucian classic strikes a bridge to Taoism (whose chief text, the Tao Te Ching, would arrive in the West later). The Doctrine of the Mean describes nature as a web of force-points and humans as nodes in the web. It begins with, “what cosmos imparts to humans is called vitality; following vitality is called the Way; and cultivating the Way is called education”, cf. Zhongyong Jiyi (Taibei: Sangyang 1985), 2 (my trans.). The text had been printed twice; Wolff knew the work in Noël's translation (Immutabile medium, 1711), and Bilfinger in Couplet's earlier version (Medium sempiternum, 1687). In the Specimen, Bilfinger explains that vitality and Tao are aspects of a unified idea constitutive of creation and good, and refers to his idea as “light of reason” (lumen rationis; # 41, margin). See Schönfeld, in press (b).

13. Kepler, in Harmonice Mundi, composed melodies for planets, which allowed him to discover the Harmonic Law — the square of the periodic times are to each other as the cubes of the mean distance. The Harmonic Law is Kepler's third planetary law; it concerns the relation of planetary orbits and solar distances, such that the squares of the periodical times t of the planets in their orbits around the Sun are to one another as the cubes of their distances r from the sun, or t2 = r3.

14. See Universal Natural History, 1:264-6 for the general structural-dynamic formation of the cosmos, 231.18-209 for star motions, 250.5-24 for galactic formation, 255.24-6 for analogous formation of distant galaxies; 250.34-6 for analogous formation of planetary systems; and 256.11-14 for the galactic field. Kant's nebular hypothesis of star and galaxy formation was proposed once more, in a slightly different version, by P. S. de Laplace (1796), and was confirmed by C. F. v. Weizsäcker and J. G. Kuiper (1944). The discovery that the “foggy stars” (neblichte Sterne) are star clusters and galaxies is sometimes credited to T. Wright (1750). But as various commentators pointed out, the credit goes to Kant, not Wright. Wright states the idea as a conjecture; Kant integrated it in the correct Newtonian framework. Kant's galactic hypothesis was reformulated by H. Curtis and confirmed by E. Hubble (1921).

15. For final causes and divine design, cf. the “Scholium Generale” in Newton (1972), 2:760-3. For the loss of motion as a general feature of nature, cf. “Query 31” in Newton (1979), 399-400. For the need of God to sustain nature, see the letter to Richard Bentley (25 February 1693), in which Newton argues: “this frame of things could not always subsist without a divine power to conserve it”; cf. Newton (1953), 56.

16. See Alexander Pope, Essay of Man (w. 1730-32, p. 1733-4), lines 1-45.

17. See Christian Wolff, Deutsche Teleologie (1723), # 2, 8, 47. William Derham's Physikotheologie (1714) and Bernhard Niewentyt's Het regt gebruik der Werelt geschowingen (1715) inspired Wolff. For the views of the physico-theologians, cf. Schönfeld (2000), 96-106.

18. See Bernard le Boyer de Fontenelle, Entretiens sur la pluralité des mondes habités (1686), especially “3ieme soir”, in Oeuvres 2:70. Fontenelle's Entretiens was a best-selling introduction to astronomy in its day, inspired by Copernicus, Kepler, and others.

19. Kant's cover was blown within a year. The classified ads of the local Wöchentlichen Frag- und Anzeigungs-Nachrichten (1 May 1756) contained the note: “Book printer Driest sells: Magister Kant's Universal Natural History and Theory of the Heavens” (my trans.). See Rahts (1902), 545. For details on the Universal Natural History, see Schönfeld (2000), 88-127 and 264-74.

20. See Johannes Kepler, Astronomia pars optica (1604), chap. 1, “De natura lucis,” Werke 2:18-45, especially the section “Lucis encomium,” Werke 2:18-20.

21. See Albrecht Altdorfer's Alexanderschlacht.

22. Kant's argument is as follows: something is possible only if it is thinkable; something is thinkable only if data are present to the mind; data can be present to the mind only if the complete set of thinkable data already exists; therefore something is possible only if something exists. Because the negation ofu possibility is impossible, what is presupposed as existing must exist necessarily. Kant shows in summary form (2:84-9) that the complete set of thinkable data is the complete set of all positive properties, which is unified as a set, and divine in virtue of its completeness. For details, see Schönfeld (2000), 183-208 and 288-97.

Copyright © 2003
Martin Schönfeld
University of South Florida

Notes to Kant's Philosophical Development
Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy