## Proof of Fact 5 Concerning the Weak Ancestral

Fact 5 concerning the weak ancestral *R*^{+} of
*R* asserts:
**Fact 5 (***R*^{+}):

*R**(*x*,*y*) →
∃*z*[*Rzy* &
*R*^{+}(*x*,*z*)]

To prove this, we shall appeal to Fact 5 concerning the ancestral
*R** of *R*:
**Fact 5 (***R**):

[*R**(*x*,*y*) &
∀*u*(*Rxu* → *Fu*) &
Her(*F*,*R*)] → *Fy*,

for any concept *F* and objects *x* and *y*:
Now to prove Fact 5 (*R*^{+}), assume
*R**(*a*,*b*). We want to show:

∃*z*[*Rzb* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)]

Notice that by λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:
[λ*w* ∃*z*[*Rzw*
&
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)]*b*

Let us use ‘*P*’; to denote this concept under which
(we have to show) *b* falls. Notice that we could prove
*Pb* by instantiating Fact 5 (*R**) to *P*,
*a*, and *b* and establishing the antecedent of the
result. In other words, by Fact (*R**), we know:
[*R**(*a*,*b*) &
∀*u*(*Rau* → *Pu*) &
Her(*P*,*R*)] → *Pb*

So if we can show the conjuncts of the antecedent, we are done. The
first conjunct is already established, by hypothesis. So we have to
show:
(1) ∀*u*(*Rau* →
*Pu*)

(2) Her(*P*,*R*)

To see what we have to show for (1), we expand our defined notation and
simplify by using λ-Conversion. Thus, we have to show:
(1) ∀*u*[*Rau* →
∃*z*(*Rzu* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*))]

So assume *Rau*, to show the consequent of (1). But it is an
immediate consequence of the definition of the weak ancestral
*R*^{+} that *R*^{+} is reflexive. (This
is Fact 8 concerning the weak ancestral, in Section 4, "The Weak
Ancestral of *R*".) So we may conjoin and conclude *Rau*
& *R*^{+}(*a*,*a*). From this, we may
infer consequent of (1), by existential generalization, which is what
we had to show.
To show (2), we have to show that *P* is hereditary on
*R*. If we expand our defined notation and simplify by using
λ-Conversion), then we have to show:

(2) *Rxy* →
[∃*z*(*Rzx* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)) →
∃*z*(*Rzy* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*))]

So assume
(A) *Rxy* &
∃*z*(*Rzx* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*))

to show: ∃*z*(*Rzy* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)). From the second
conjunct of (A), we know that there is some object, say *d*,
such that:
*Rdx* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*d*); i.e.,

*R*^{+}(*a*,*d*) &
*Rdx*

So, by Fact 2 about the weak ancestral (Section 4, "The Weak Ancestral
of *R*"), it follows that *R**(*a*,*x*),
from which it immediately follows that
*R*^{+}(*a*,*x*), by definition of
*R*^{+}. So, by appealing to the first conjunct of (A),
we have:
*Rxy* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*x*),

from which it follows that:
∃*z*(*Rzy* &
*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)),

which is what we had to show.
Return to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic