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## A Quantitative Version of a Draper-Style Argument

 (1) Pr(O/HI) > Pr(O/T) + k (Substantive premise) (2) Pr(O/HI) = Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) (Definition of conditional probability) Therefore (3) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O/T) + k (From (1) and (2).) (4) Pr(O/T) = Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) (Definition of conditional probability) Therefore (5) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) + k (From (3) and (4).) (6) Pr(O & HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (7) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) (From (6).) Therefore (8) Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) + k (From (5) and (7).) (9) Pr(O & T) = Pr(T/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (10) Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) = Pr(T/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(T) (From (9).) Therefore (11) Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(T) + k (From (8) and (10).)
 (12) Pr(O/HI) > 0 (From (1).)
 (13) Pr(HI) > 0, (Substantive premise) (14) Pr(OI/HI) × Pr(HI) = Pr(O & HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (15) Pr(O) > 0, (From (12), (13), and (14).)
so that Pr(HI)/Pr(O) is defined. Therefore, we can multiply both sides of (11) by Pr(HI)/Pr(O) which gives:
 (16) Pr(HI/O) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(HI)/Pr(T) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O) (17) HI entails ~T (Substantive premise) Therefore (18) Pr(~T/O) Pr(HI/O) (From (17).) Therefore (19) Pr(~T/O) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(HI)/Pr(T) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O) (From (16) and (18).) (20) Pr(HI) Pr(T) (Substantive premise) Therefore (21) Pr(~T/O) > Pr(T/O) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O) (From (19) and (20).) (22) O entails [(T & O) or (~T & O)] and [(T & O) or (~T & O)] entails O (Logical truth) Therefore (23) Pr(T & O) + Pr(~T & O) = Pr(O) (From (22).)
Then, in view of (15), we can divide both sides of (23) by Pr(O), which gives us:
 (24) Pr(T & O)/Pr(O) + Pr(~T & O)/Pr(O) = Pr(O)/Pr(O) = 1 Therefore (25) Pr(T/O) + Pr(~T/O) = 1 (From (24).) Therefore (26) Pr(T) < 0.5 - k × Pr(HI)/2 ×Pr(O) (From (21) and (25).)