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Stanford University CSLI Metaphysics Research Lab

Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
Winter 2001 Edition

Editorial Information

The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy is a dynamic reference work and is a publishing project of the Metaphysics Research Lab at the Center for the Study of Language and Information (CSLI) at Stanford University. The concept of a dynamic reference work was implemented in the design of the Encyclopedia by Edward N. Zalta (Director of the Metaphysics Research Lab). The project began when John Perry was the Director of the Center for the Study of Language and Information. All correspondence should be directed to:

Information about our dynamic reference work can be found in the following papers and abstracts:

Principal Editor:

Associate Editor:

Assistant Editor:

Advisory Board:

Editorial Board/Subject Editors:
Subject Editor (Affiliation)
Action, Philosophy of David Velleman (University of Michigan)
John M. Fischer (University of California/Riverside)
Aesthetics Ted Cohen (University of Chicago)
African and African-American Philosophy Lucius Outlaw (Vanderbilt University)
Ancient Philosophy John Cooper (Princeton University)
    Aristotle Alan Code (University of California, Berkeley)
    Plato Richard Kraut (Northwestern University)
Biology, Philosophy of Paul Griffiths (University of Pittsburgh)
Sahotra Sarkar (University of Texas/Austin)
Chinese Philosophy Kwong-Loi Shun (University of California/Berkeley)
Chad Hansen (University of Hong-Kong)
Cognitive Science, Philosophy of Barbara Von Eckardt (University of Nebraska/Lincoln)
Epistemology Laurence BonJour (University of Washington/Seattle)
    Normative Walter Sinnott-Armstrong (Dartmouth College)
Julia Driver (Dartmouth College)
David Brink (U. California/San Diego)
    History of Stephen Darwall (University of Michigan)
    Metaethics David Copp (Bowling Green State University)
        Bioethics Dan Brock (Brown University)
        Computers and Ethics Helen Nissenbaum (New York University)
Feminism Sally Haslanger (Massachusetts Institute of Technology)
Nancy Tuana (Pennsylvania State University)
Inductive Logic and Decision Theory Brian Skyrms (University of California/Irvine)
James Joyce (University of Michigan)
Japanese Philosophy Thomas Kasulis (Ohio State University)
Kant Paul Guyer (University of Pennsylvania)
Language, Philosophy of Kenneth Taylor (Stanford University)
Timothy Williamson (University of Oxford)
Law, Philosophy of Joseph Raz (University of Oxford)
Liam Murphy (New York University)
Linguistics, Philosophy of  
Logic John Burgess (Princeton University)
    Non-Classical Logic Alasdair Urquhart (University of Toronto)
Logic, Philosophy of John Etchemendy (Stanford University)
Greg Restall (Macquarie University)
Medieval Philosophy Paul Vincent Spade (Indiana University/Bloomington)
Gyula Klima (Fordham University)
Jack Zupko (Emory University)
Metaphysics Peter Simons (University of Leeds)
Gideon Rosen (Princeton University)
Stephen Yablo (Massachusetts Institute of Technology)
Dean Zimmerman (Syracuse University)
Penelope Mackie (University of Birmingham)
Mind, Philosophy of David Chalmers (University of Arizona)
Physics, Philosophy of  
    Quantum Mechanics Guido Bacciagaluppi (University of California/Berkeley)
    Spacetime John D. Norton (University of Pittsburgh)
Religion, Philosophy of Edward Wierenga (University of Rochester)
Linda Zagzebski (University of Oklahoma)
Renaissance and
16th Century Philosophy
John Monfasani (SUNY/Albany)
Brian Copenhaver (UCLA)
Science, Philosophy of Philip Kitcher (Columbia University)
Chris Swoyer (University of Oklahoma)
Social and Political Philosophy Thomas Pogge (Columbia University)
Simone Chambers (University of Colorado)
Joshua Cohen (Massachusetts Institute of Technology)
Samuel Freeman (University of Pennsylvania)
17th Century Philosophy Alan Nelson (University of California/Irvine)
Nicholas Jolley (University of California/Irvine)
18th Century Philosophy Margaret Atherton (University of Wisconsin/Milwaukee)
David Owen (University of Arizona)
19th Century Philosophy Allen Wood (Stanford University)
    Continental Philosophy Robert Pippin (University of Chicago)
20th Century Philosophy Andrew Irvine (University of British Columbia/Vancouver)
Fred Kroon (University of Auckland)
Huw Price (University of Sydney)
    Continental Philosophy Dagfinn Føllesdal (University of Oslo/Stanford University)
Thomas Flynn (Emory University)

Occasional Referees:

David Barker-Plummer (Stanford University), Stuart Brock (Western Washington University), Johan van Benthem (University of Amsterdam and Stanford University), Earl Conee (University of Rochester), Max Cresswell (Victoria University of Wellington), John Divers (University of Leeds), Greg Fitch (Arizona State University), Ruth Grant (Duke University), Lori Gruen (Wesleyan University), Bob Hale (University of Glasgow), Thomas Hofweber (University of Michigan), David Israel (SRI/Menlo Park), Ernie Lepore (Rutgers University), Kirk Ludwig (University of Florida), Chris Menzel (Texas A&M University), Karl-Georg Niebergall (Universität München), Francis Jeffry Pelletier (University of Alberta), William Throop (Green Mountain College), Peter Vanderschraaf (Carnegie-Mellon University), Gary Varner (Texas A&M University)

Information for Authors:

Editorial Policies:

  1. All editorial decisions concerning the Encyclopedia, including decisions concerning its content, format and distribution, are made by the Editor in consultation with the Board of Editors.
  2. The members of the Board of Editors are selected in consultation with the Stanford Department of Philosophy, which serves as the Encyclopedia's Advisory Board. The Advisory Board also advises the Editor on the basic policies governing the operation of the Encyclopedia.
  3. Contributions to the Encyclopedia are normally solicited by invitation from a member of the Board of Editors. However, qualified potential contributors may send an inquiry to an appropriate member of the Editorial Board containing an entry proposal and a description of their qualifications. Those persons who have published refereed works on the proposed entry are qualified to submit proposals. By `refereed works' we mean either articles in respected, refereed journals or books which have been published by respected publishing houses and which have undergone the usual peer review process prior to publication. Notes in newsletters, proceedings, unpublished dissertations, etc., do not count as much. However, if a member of our Board of Editors is familiar with the work of the potential contributor, the latter may be certified as qualified. The Board of Editors reserves the right to compare the qualifications of the person submitting the unsolicited request with those of other potential authors who might naturally come to mind for the entry in question.
  4. Readers of the Encyclopedia are also encouraged to contact authors directly with comments, corrections, and other suggestions for improvements.
  5. It remains the responsibility of authors to maintain their entries and to keep them current. Authors are expected: (1) to update their entries regularly, especially in response to important new research on the topic of the entry, and (2) to revise their entries in a timely way in light of any valid criticism they receive, whether it comes from the subject editors on our Editorial Board, other members of the profession, or interested readers. In connection with (1), authors should update the Bibliography and Other Internet Resources sections of their entries regularly, to keep pace with significant new publications, both in print and on the web. In connection with (2), the validity of criticism shall be determined by the Editor, typically in consultation with the relevant members of the Editorial Board. The length of time required for a "timely" revision will be negotiable and will both respect the author's current commitments and reflect the seriousness of the criticism. However, entries which require revision but which are not revised within the negotiated timetable may be retired from the active portion of the Encyclopedia and left in the Encyclopedia Archives until such time as the entry is revised so as to engage the valid criticisms in question.
  6. The views expressed by the authors in their entries are their own and do not necessarily reflect those of Stanford University, the Stanford University Philosophy Department, the Encyclopedia's Editor or of anyone else associated with the Encyclopedia.

Copyright Information

Copyright Notice. Authors contributing an entry or entries to the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy retain copyright to their entry or entries but grant to the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University an exclusive license to publish their entry or entries on the Internet and the World Wide Web, including any future technologies or media that develop to supplement or replace the Internet or World Wide Web. All rights not expressly granted to the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University, including the right to publish an entry or entries in other print media, are retained by the authors. Copyright of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy itself is held by the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University. All rights are reserved. No part of the Encyclopedia (excluding individual contributions and works derived solely from those contributions, for which rights are reserved by the individual authors) may be reprinted, reproduced, stored, or utilized in any form, by any electronic, mechanical, or other means, now known or hereafter invented, including printing, photocopying, saving (on disk), broadcasting or recording, or in any information storage or retrieval system, other than for purposes of fair use, without written permission from the copyright holder. (All communications should be directed to the Principal Editor.)

Licensing Agreement. By contributing to the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy authors grant to the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University a perpetual, exclusive, worldwide right to copy, distribute, transmit and publish their contribution on the Internet and World Wide Web. The authors also grant to the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University a perpetual, non-exclusive, worldwide right to copy, distribute, transmit and publish any and all derivative works prepared or modified by the Editor from the original contribution, in whole or in part, by any variety of methods on all types of publication and broadcast media other than the Internet, now known or hereafter invented. Authors also grant to the Metaphysics Research Lab at Stanford University a perpetual, non-exclusive, worldwide right to translate their contribution, as well as any modified or derivative works, into any and all languages for the same purposes of copying, distributing, transmitting and publishing their work.

Statement of Liability. By contributing to the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy authors grant, to the Principal Editor, the Associate Editor, the Assistant Editor, members of the Advisory and Editorial Boards, the Metaphysics Research Lab, CSLI, and Stanford University, immunity from all liability arising from their work. All authors are responsible for securing permission to use any copyrighted material, including graphics, quotations, and photographs, within their contributions. The Principal Editor, Associate Editor, Assistant Editor, members of the Advisory and Editorial Boards, CSLI, and Stanford University therefore disclaim any and all responsibility for copyright violations and any other form of liability arising from the content of the Encyclopedia or from any material linked to the Encyclopedia. Alleged copyright violations should be brought to the attention of the author and the Principal Editor, so that such issues may be dealt with promptly.


The Editor would like to acknowledge the special programming expertise of Eric Hammer, when the Encyclopedia was in its initial design stages. We'd also like to thank David Barker-Plummer, Mark Greaves, Emma Pease, Susanne Riehemann, and Nathan Tawil for their helpful suggestions concerning the Encyclopedia project and the construction of this Web site.

The Editor would also like to acknowledge the South Korean company C.O.Tech, Inc., for their expert advice concerning XML and for programming a Java-based XML/XHTML editing program for use by the authors of the Encyclopedia.

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