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Like Walter Burley and Wyclif, Penbygull holds that such formal universals exist in act (in actu) outside our minds, and not in potency (in potentia) only, as moderate realists (like St. Thomas) thought, since for Pengygull the necessary and sufficient condition that a thing must meet for being a universal is the existence of at least one individual in which it is present (De universalibus, p. 178). So the actual existence of universals depends entirely on that of their individuals; without them, common natures could not be really universals.
On the logical side, this description of the relationship between universals and individuals in terms of real identity and formal distinction, entails that not all that is predicated of individuals can be directly (formaliter) attributed to their universals and vice versa. In particular, the accidental forms inhering in substantial individuals (for instance, the whiteness inhering in Socrates) can be predicated of the universal forms proper to these individuals (for instance, the form of humanity or that of animality) only indirectly (essentialiter), through and in virtue of the individuals themselves. As a consequence, a redefinition of the standard kinds predication and the introduction of a new type, unknown to Aristotle, was required, in order to cover the cases of indirect inherence of an accidental form in a substantial universal, admitted by this theory.
Wyclif, whose conception of universals is the source of Penbygulls, had therefore distinguished three main types of predication: formal predication, predication by essence, and habitudinal predication, each more general than the preceding one. Since the ontological presuppositions of the most general type of predication (habitudinal predication), implied by the other types, are completely different from those of the other two, Penbygull, like other Oxford logicians of his generation, tried to improve Wyclif theory by excluding habitudinal predication and redefining the other two kinds in a slightly different way. Penbygull therefore divides predication (which he conceives as a real relation which holds between metaphysical objects [De universalibus, p. 188]) into formal predication (praedicatio formalis) and predication by essence (secundum essentiam). Predication by essence shows a partial identity between subject and predicate, which share some, but not all, metaphysical component parts, and does not require that the form connotated by the predicate-term be directly present in the essence denotated by the subject-term. Formal predication, on the contrary, requires such a direct presence. If the form connotated by the predicate-term is intrinsic to the nature of the subject, then the predication is a case of formal essential predication, while if it is extrinsic, the predication is a case of formal accidental predication. "Man is an animal" is an instance of formal essential predication; "Socrates is white" is an instance of formal accidental predication. Unlike Wyclif, who applied predication by essence to second intentions only -- since he admitted sentences like "(What is) universal is (what is) singular" (that is, universale est singulare) as well-formed and true -- Penbygull thinks that it holds also when applied to first intentions. So he claims that it is possible to predicate of the universal-man (homo in communi) the property of being white, if at least one of its individuals is white. However he makes sure to use as a predicate-term a substantival adjective in its neuter form, because only in this way can it appear that the form connoted by the predicate-term is not directly present in the subject, but is indirectly attributed to it, through its individuals. Therefore he acknowledges the proposition "The universal-man is (something) white" (homo in communi est album) as a true one, if at least one of the existing men is white (De universalibus, pp. 186-88). According to him formal essential predication and formal accidental predication would correspond to Aristotles essential and accidental predication. But, as a matter of fact, he agrees with Wyclif in regarding predication by essence as more general than formal predication. As a consequence, in his theory formal predication is a particular type of predication by essence. This means that he implicitly recognizes a single ontological pattern, founded on a sort of partial identity, as the basis of every kind of standard philosophical statement (subject, copula, predicate). But in this way, formal essential predication and formal accidental predication are very different from their Aristotelian models, as they express degrees of identity as well as predication by essence.
a is identical with b iff for all x, it is the case that x is predicated of a iff it is predicated of b;
a differs from (is [really] distinct from) b iff there is at least one z such that a is predicated of z and b is not, or vice versa, or there is at least one w such that w is predicated of a and not of b, or vice versa.
On this basis one can easily conclude that universals and individuals can never be the same, at least because of the forms of generality (which cannot be predicated of individuals) and of thisness (which cannot be predicated of universals). So Penbygull had to put forward new criteria for identity and distinction. First of all, he distinguishes between the notion of non-identity and that of difference (or distinction) and denies that the notion of difference implies that of non-identity (De universalibus, p. 190); then he affirms that the two notions of difference and (real) identity are logically compatible (ibid.); finally he suggests the following definitions for these three notions non-identity, difference or distinction, and (absolute) identity (De universalibus, pp. 190-91):
a is non-identical with b iff there is not any form F such that F is present in the same way in a and b;
a differs from b iff there is at least one form F such that F is directly present in a but not in b or vice versa;
a is (absolutely) identical with b iff for all forms F, it is the case that F is present in a iff it is present in the same way in b.
The criterion for non-identity is stronger than the common one for real distinction: two things can be qualified as non-identical iff they belong to distinct categories. On the other side, the definition of difference does not exclude the possibility that two things which differ from each other share one or more properties (or forms). Thus, there are degrees of distinction, and what is more, the degree of distinction between two things can be read as the inverse measure of their (partial) identity. For instance, if we compare the list of the forms (both substantial and accidental) which constitute Socrates and those which make up the universal-man, it is evident that Socrates and the universal-man differ from each other, since there are forms which directly inhere in Socrates and not in the universal-man and vice versa; but it is also evident that the two lists are identical for a long section, that is, that Socrates and the universal-man, considered from the point of view of their metaphysical composition, are partially the same. As a result, the copula of the propositions which Penbygull deals with cannot be extensionally interpreted, as it does not mean that a given object is a member of a certain set, nor that a given set is included in another, but it always means degrees in identity between two compound entities.
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First published: July 25, 2001
Content last modified: July 25, 2001