This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy. |

In §1 we lay down the basic syntax and semantics of infinitary
languages and demonstrate their expressive power by means of
examples. §2 is devoted to those infinitary languages which
permit only finite quantifier sequences: these languages turn out to
be relatively well-behaved. In §3 we discuss the *compactness
problem* for infinitary languages and its connection with purely
set-theoretical questions concerning "large" cardinal numbers. In
§4 an argument is sketched which shows that most "infinite
quantifier" languages have a *second-order* nature and are,
*ipso facto*, highly incomplete. In §5 we give a brief
account of a certain special class of sublanguages of infinitary
languages for which a satisfactory generalization of the compactness
theorem can be proved. (This section links to a Supplement on the
definition of admissible sets.) We conclude with historical and
bibliographical remarks in §6.

- Definition and Basic Properties of Infinitary Languages
- Finite-Quantifier Languages
- The Compactness Property
- Incompleteness of Infinite-Quantifier Languages
- Sublanguages of (
_{1},) and the Barwise Compactness Theorem - Historical and Bibliographical Remarks
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

Let -- the (finitary) *base
language* -- be an arbitrary but fixed first-order language with
any number of extralogical symbols. The infinitary language
(,
) has the following *basic symbols*:

- All symbols of
- A set
**Var**of individual variables, where the cardinality of**Var**(written: |**Var**|) is - A logical operator
(
*infinitary conjunction*)

- Each formula of is a preformula;
- if and are preformulas, so are and ;
- if is a set of preformulas such that || < , then is a preformula;
- if
is a preformula and
*X***Var**is such that |*X*| < , then*X*is a preformula; - all preformulas are defined by the above clauses.

or, if_{}^{}

_{0}_{1}...

If *X* is a set of individual variables indexed by an ordinal
, say *X* =
{*x*_{} :
<
},
we agree to write
(*x*_{})_{<} for
*X*.

The logical operators
,
,
are defined in the customary manner. We also introduce the
operators
(*infinitary disjunction*) and
(*universal quantification*) by

=and employ similar conventions as for , .{ : }_{df}X =

X,_{df}

Thus
(,)
is the infinitary language obtained from
by permitting conjunctions and disjunctions
of length <
and
quantifications^{[1]}
of length <
. Languages
(,)
are called *finite-quantifier* languages, the rest
*infinite-quantifier* languages. Observe that
(,)
is just
itself.

Notice the following *anomaly* which can arise in an infinitary
language but not in a finitary one. In the language
(_{1},),
which allows countably infinite conjunctions but only finite
quantifications, there are preformulas with so many free variables
that they cannot be "closed" into sentences of
(_{1},)
by prefixing quantifiers. Such is the case, for example, for the
(_{1},)-preformula

where contains the binary relation symbol <. For this reason we make the followingx_{0}<x_{1}x_{1}<x_{2}...x<_{n}x_{n+1}...,

In this connection, observe that, in general, nothing would be gained by considering "languages" (,) with > . For example, in the "language" (,Definition. Aformulaof (,) is a preformula which contains < free variables. The set of all formulas of (,) will be denoted byForm((,)) or simplyForm(,) and the set of all sentences bySent((,)) or simplySent(,).

Having defined the syntax of
(,),
we next sketch its *semantics*. Since the extralogical
symbols of
(,)
are just those of
,
and it is these symbols which determine the form of the structures
in which a given first-order language is to be interpreted, it is
natural to define an
(,)-structure
to be simply an -structure.
The notion of a formula of
(,) being *satisfied* in an
-structure
** A** (by a sequence of elements from the
domain of

is satisfied inThese informal definitions need to be tightened up in a rigorous development, but their meaning should be clear to the reader. Now the usual notions of(by a given sequence) for all , is satisfied inA(by the sequence);A

Xis satisfied inthere is a sequence of elements from the domain ofAin bijective correspondence withAXwhich satisfies in.A

We now give some examples intended to display the expressive power of
the infinitary languages
(,) with
_{1}. In each case it is
well-known that the notion in question cannot be expressed in any
first-order language.

**Characterization of the standard model of arithmetic in**
(_{1},).
Here the *standard model of arithmetic* is the structure
**N** = (*N*, +,
, *s*, 0),
where *N* is the set of natural numbers,
+,
, and 0 have their usual meanings, and *s* is
the successor operation. Let
be the first-order language
appropriate for **N**. Then the class of
-structures isomorphic to **N** coincides
with the class of models of the conjunction of the following
(_{1},) sentences (where **0** is a name of 0):

The terms

**Characterization of the class of all finite sets in**
(_{1},).
Here the base language has no extralogical symbols. The class of all
finite sets then coincides with the class of models of the
(_{1},)-sentence

_{}v_{0}...v_{n}x(x=v_{0}...x=v)._{n}

**Truth definition in**
(_{1},) **for a countable base language** .
Let
be a countable first-order language (for
example, the language of arithmetic or set theory) which contains a name
** n** for each natural number

is aTr(x) =_{df}_{}(x =n)_{n}

is valid for eachTr()n_{n}

**Characterization of well-orderings in**
(_{1},_{1}).
The base language
here includes a binary predicate symbol
. Let
_{1} be the usual
-sentence
characterizing linear orderings. Then the class of
-structures in which the interpretation of
is a well-ordering coincides with the class of models of
the
(_{1},_{1}) sentence
=
_{1}
_{2}, where

Notice that the sentence_{2}=(_{df}v)_{n}_{n}x[_{}(x = v)_{n}_{}(xv)]._{n}

Many extensions of first-order languages can be *translated*
into infinitary languages. For example, consider the generalized
quantifier language
(*Q*_{0})
obtained from
by adding a new quantifier symbol
*Q*_{0} and interpreting
*Q*_{0}*x*(*x*) as
*there exist infinitely many x such that*
(*x*). It is easily seen that the sentence
*Q*_{0}*x*(*x*) has the
same models as the
(_{1},)-sentence

Thus (_{}v_{0}...v_{n}x[(x) (x = v_{0}...x = v)]._{n}

The language
(_{1},) occupies a special
place among infinitary languages because--like first-order languages--it
admits an effective *deductive apparatus*. In fact, let us add to
the usual first-order axioms and rules of inference the new axiom scheme

for any countable set

and allow deductions to be of countable length. Writing_{0},_{1}, ...,, ..._{n}

_{}_{n}

(As an immediate corollary we infer that this deductive apparatus is_{1},)-Completeness Theorem. For anySent(_{1},),^{*}

(2.1)This completeness theorem can be proved by modifying the usual Henkin completeness proof for first-order logic, or by employing Boolean-algebraic methods. Similar arguments, applied to suitable further augmentations of the axioms and rules of inference, yield analogous completeness theorems for many other finite-quantifier languages.^{*}

If just deductions of countable length are admitted, then no
deductive apparatus for
(_{1},) can be set up which is
adequate for deductions from *arbitrary* sets of premises, that is,
for which (2.1) would hold for every set
**Sent**(_{1},),
*regardless of
cardinality*. This follows from the simple observation that there is a
first-order language
and an uncountable set
of
(_{1},)-sentences such that
*has no model but every countable subset of*
*does*. To see this, let
be the language of arithmetic augmented by
_{1}
new constant symbols
{**c**_{} :
<
_{1}}
and let
be the set of
(_{1},)-sentences
{}
{*c*_{}
**c**_{} :
}, where
is the
(_{1},)-sentence
characterizing the standard model of arithmetic. This example also
shows that the *compactness theorem* fails for
(_{1},) and so also for any
(,) with
_{1}.

Another result which holds in the first-order case but fails for
(,)
with
_{1} (and also for
(_{1},_{1}),
although this is more difficult to prove) is the *prenex normal
form theorem*. A sentence is *prenex* if all its
quantifiers appear at the front; we give an example of an
(_{1},)-sentence which is not
equivalent to a conjunction of prenex sentences. Let
be the first-order language without extralogical
symbols and let
be the
(_{1},)-sentence
which characterizes the class of finite sets. Suppose that
were equivalent to a conjunction

of prenex (_{iI}_{i}

where eachQ_{1}x_{1}...Q_{n}x_{n}(_{i}x_{1},..., x),_{n}

Turning to the *Löwenheim-Skolem theorem*, we find that
the *downward* version has adequate generalizations to
(_{1},) (and, indeed, to all infinitary languages). In fact, one
can show in much the same way as for sets of first-order sentences that if
**Sent**(_{1},) has an infinite model
of cardinality
||, it has a model
of cardinality the larger of
_{0} ,
||. In particular, any
(_{1},)-sentence with an
infinite model has a countable model.

On the other hand, the *upward* Löwenheim-Skolem theorem in
its usual form *fails* for all infinitary languages. For example,
the
(_{1},)-sentence
characterizing the standard model of arithmetic has a model of
cardinality
_{0} but no models
of any other cardinality. However, all is not lost here, as we shall see.

We define the *Hanf number* **h(L)** of a language
L to be the least cardinal
such that, if an
**L**-sentence has a model of cardinality
, it has models of arbitrarily large cardinality. The
existence of **h(L)** is readily established. For each
**L**-sentence
not possessing models of
arbitrarily large cardinality let
() be the least cardinal
such that
does not have a model of cardinality
. If
is the supremum of all the
(), then, if a sentence of
**L** has a model of cardinality
,
it has models of arbitrarily large cardinality.

Define the cardinals () recursively by

(0) =Then it can be shown that_{0}(+1) = 2

^{()}() =

_{}() for limit .

similar results holding for other finite-quantifier languages. The values of the Hanf numbers of infinite-quantifier languages such as (h((_{1},)) = (_{1}),

A result for
which generalizes to
(_{1},) but to no other infinitary language is the

The proof is a reasonably straightforward extension of the first-order case.Craig Interpolation Theorem: If ,Sent(_{1},) are such that , then there isSent(_{1},) such that and , and each extralogical symbol occurring in occurs in both and .

Finally, we mention one further result which generalizes nicely to
(_{1},)
but to no other infinitary language. It is well known that, if
** A** is any finite
-structure with only finitely many
relations, there is an
-sentence
characterizing

The restriction toScott’s Isomorphism Theorem. Ifis a countable -structure with only countably many relations, then there is an (A_{1},)-sentence whose class of countable models coincides with the class of -structures isomorphic with.A

We construct the following definition. Let
be an
infinite cardinal. A language **L** is said to be
-*compact* (resp. *weakly*
*-compact*) if whenever
is a
set of **L**-sentences (resp. a set of
**L**-sentences of cardinality
) and each subset of
of cardinality
<
has a model, so does
. Notice that the usual compactness theorem for
is precisely the assertion that
is
-compact. One reason for according significance
to the
-compactness property is the following. Call L
-*complete* (resp. *weakly*
-*complete*) if there is a deductive system
** P** for

It turns out, in fact, that most languages
(,
) fail to
be even weakly
-compact, and, for those that are,
must be an exceedingly *large* cardinal. We
shall need some definitions.

An infinite cardinal
is said to be *weakly
inaccessible* if

(a) <If in addition^{+}< , (where^{+}denotes the cardinal successor of ), and(b) |

I| < and< (for all_{i}iI)_{}_{i}< .

(c) < 2then is said to be (^{}< ,

Let us call a cardinal
*compact
*(resp. *weakly compact*) if the language
(,) is
-compact (resp. weakly
-compact). Then we have the following results:

(3.1)Let_{0 }is compact. This is, of course, just a succinct way of expressing the compactness theorem for first-order languages.(3.2) is

weakly compact(,) isweakly-compactisweakly inaccessible. Accordingly, it is consistent (with the usual axioms of set theory) to assume that no language (,) with_{1}is weakly -compact, or,a fortiori, weakly -complete.(3.3) Suppose is inaccessible. Then is

weakly compact(,) isweakly-compact. Also, Also is weakly compactthere is a set ofinaccessibles before. Thus a weakly compact inaccessible cardinal is exceedingly large; in particular it cannot be the first, second, ...,n, ... inaccessible.^{th}(3.4)

is compactis inaccessible. (But, by the result immediately above, the converse fails.)

(3.5)The import of these results is that the compactness theorem fails very badly for most languages (,) withIfConstrholds, then there are no compact cardinals.(3.6)

AssumeConstrand letbe inaccessible. Thenis weakly compact(_{1},)is weakly-compact for all.(3.7)

IfConstrholds, then there are no cardinalsfor which(_{1},)is compact. Accordingly, it is consistent with the usual axioms of set theory to suppose that there is no cardinal such that all languages (_{1},) are -complete. This result is to be contrasted with the fact thatallfirst-order languages are -complete.

Some historical remarks are in order here. In the 1930s
mathematicians investigated various versions of the so-called
*measure problem* for sets, a problem which arose in
connection with the theory of Lebesgue measure on the continuum. In
particular, the following very simple notion of measure was
formulated. If *X* is a set, a (countably additive two-valued
nontrivial) *measure* on *X* is a map
on the power set **P***X* to
the set {0, 1} satisfying:

(a) (Obviously, whether a given set supports such a measure depends only on its cardinality, so it is natural to define a cardinal to beX) = 1,(b) ({

x}) = () = 0 for allxX, and(c) if

is any countable family of subsets ofAX, then () = {(AY):Y}.A

Let us first introduce the formal notion of *definability* as
follows. If **L** is a language, ** A
**an

Now write *Val*(**L**) for the set of all the
*valid* **L**-sentences, i.e., those that hold in
every **L**-structure. In order to assign a meaning to
the statement "*Val*(**L**) is definable", we
have to specify

(i) a structureThen, if we identifytheC(L)--coding structureforL;(ii) a particular one-one map--the

coding map--of the set of formulas ofLinto the domain of.C(L)

For example, when **L** is the first-order language
of arithmetic, Gödel originally used as coding structure the
standard model of arithmetic and as coding map
the well-known function obtained from the prime factorization theorem
for natural numbers. The recursive enumerability of
*Val*()
then means simply that the set of codes ("Gödel numbers") of
members of
*Val*()
is definable in
by an
-formula of
the form
*y*(*x, y*),
where
(*x, y*) is a recursive formula.

Another, equivalent, coding structure for the first-order language of
arithmetic is the
structure^{[4]}
<*H*(),
| *H*()> of
*hereditarily finite sets*, where a set *x* is
*hereditarily finite* if *x*, its members, its members of
members, etc., are all finite. This coding structure takes account of the
fact that first-order formulas are naturally regarded as finite sets.

Turning now to the case in which **L** is an infinitary
language
(,),
what would be a suitable coding structure in this case? We remarked
at the beginning that infinitary languages were suggested by the
possibility of thinking of formulas as set-theoretical objects, so
let us try to obtain our coding structure by thinking about what kind
of set-theoretical objects we should take infinitary formulas to
be. Given the fact that, for each
**Form**(,),
and its subformulas, subsubformulas, etc., are all of
length <
^{[5]},
a moment’s reflection reveals that formulas of
(,)
"correspond" to sets *x hereditarily of cardinality* <
in the sense that *x*, its members, its
members of members, etc., are all of cardinality <
. The
collection of all such sets is written
*H*(). *H*()
is the collection of *hereditarily finite* sets introduced
above, and
*H*(_{1}) that of all
*hereditarily countable *sets.

For simplicity let us suppose that the only extralogical symbol of the base language is the binary predicate symbol (the discussion is easily extended to the case in which contains additional extralogical symbols). Guided by the remarks above, as coding structure for (,) we take the structure,

() =<_{df}H(), |H()>.

Now we can define the coding map of
**Form**(,) into
().
First, to each basic symbol *s* of
(,)
we assign a code object
*s*
*H*()
as follows. Let
{*v*_{}:
<
} be an enumeration of the individual variables of
(,).

Then, to each

Symbol Code Object Notation 1 2 3 4 5 = 6 = v_{}<0,> v_{}

for ,v_{}=v_{}=<_{df}v_{}, =,v_{}>,

v_{}v_{}=<_{df}v_{}, ,v_{}>;

=and finally if<, , >_{df}=

<, >_{df}

X=<, {_{df}x:xX}, >;

=<, {: }>._{df}

The map
from
**Form**(,)
into
*H*() is easily seen to be
one-one and is the required coding map. Accordingly, we agree to identify
*Val*((,))
with its image in
*H*() under this coding map.

When is
*Val*((,))
a *definable* subset of
()?
In order to answer this question we require the following
definitions.

An
-formula is called a
_{0}-*formula*
if it is equivalent to a formula in which all quantifiers are of the
form
*x**y* or
*x**y* (i.e.,
*x*(*x**y*
...) or
*x*(*x**y*
...)).
An -formula is a
_{1}-*formula* if it is
equivalent to one which can be built up from atomic formulas and
their negations using only the logical operators
,
,
*x**y*,
*x*.
A subset *X* of a set *A* is said to be
_{0} (resp.
_{1}) *on A* if it is definable in the
structure <*A*,
| *A*> by a
_{0}- (resp.
_{1}-) formula of
.

For example, if we identify the set of natural numbers with the set
*H*() of hereditarily finite sets in the
usual way, then for each *X*
*H*() we have:

Thus the notions ofXis_{0}onH()Xis recursive

Xis_{1}onH()Xis recursively enumerable.

The completeness theorem for
implies that
*Val*() -- regarded as
a subset of
*H*() -- is recursively enumerable, and
hence
_{1} on
*H*(). Similarly, the completeness theorem for
(_{1},)
(see §2) implies that
*Val*((_{1},)) --
regarded as a subset of
*H*(_{1}) -- is
_{1} on
*H*(_{1}). However, this
pleasant state of affairs collapses completely as soon as
(_{1},_{1})
is reached. For one can prove

This theorem is proved in much the same way as the well-known result that the set of (codes of ) valid sentences of the second-order language of arithemeticScott’s Undefinability Theorem for(_{1},_{1}).Val((_{1},_{1}))is not definable in(_{1})even by an(_{1},_{1})-formula;hencea fortioriVal((_{1},_{1}))is not_{1}onH(_{1}).

Accordingly, to prove Scott’s undefinability theorem along the above lines, one needs to establish:

(4.1)(4.1) is proved by analyzing the set-theoretic definition of (Characterizability of the coding structure(_{1})in(_{1},_{1}): there is an (_{1},_{1})-sentence_{0}such that, for all -structures,AA_{0}(A_{1}).(4.2)

Undefinability of truth for(_{1},_{1})-sentencesin the coding structure: there is no (_{1},_{1})-formula (v_{0}) such that, for all (_{1},_{1})-sentences ,(_{1}) ().(4.3)

There is a termt(v_{0},v_{1})of(_{1},_{1})such that, for each pair of sentences,of(_{1},_{1}),(_{1})t(,) = .

Armed with these facts, we can obtain Scott’s undefinability theorem
in the following way. Suppose it were false; then there would be an
(_{1},_{1})-formula
(*v*_{0}) such that,
for all
(_{1},_{1})-sentences
,

(4.4) (Let_{1}) ()Val((_{1},_{1})).

(so that, by (4.4),_{1})_{0}Val((_{1},_{1})),

(If_{1}) (_{1}) (_{0}).

(Now write (_{1}) (t(_{0}, )).

(contradicting (4.2), and completing the proof._{1}) (),

Thus
*Val*((_{1},_{1}))
is not definable *even by an*
(_{1},_{1})-*formula*,
so *a fortiori*
(_{1},_{1})
is incomplete. Similar arguments show that Scott’s undefinability
theorem continues to hold when
_{1} is replaced by any successor
cardinal
^{+}; accordingly the languages
(^{+},^{+}) are all
incomplete.^{[6]}

Recall from §4 that we may code the formulas of a first-order language
as hereditarily finite sets, i.e., as members of
*H*(). In that
case each finite set of (codes of)
-sentences is
also a member of
*H*(), and it follows that the
compactness theorem for
can be stated in the form:

(5.1) IfNow it is well-known that (5.1) is an immediate consequence of theSent() is such that each subset_{0},_{0}H() has a model, so does .

(5.2) IfIn §2 we remarked that the compactness theorem for (Sent() andSent() satisfy , then there is a deductionof from such thatDDH().^{[7]}

(5.3) Each countable subset of has a model but does not.Recall also that we introduced the notion of

(5.4) There is a sentenceNow the formulas of (^{[8]}Sent(_{1},) such that , but there is no deduction of in (_{1},) from .

(5.3It follows that (5.1) and (5.2) fail when "" is replaced by "(bis) Each_{0}such that_{0}(_{1}) has a model, but does not;(5.4

bis) There is a sentenceSent(_{1},) such that , but there is no deductionDH(_{1}) of from .

We see from (5.4 *bis*) that the reason why the generalized
completeness theorem fails for
_{1}-sets in
(_{1},)
is that, roughly speaking,
*H*(_{1}) is not "closed" under
the formation of deductions from
_{1}-sets of sentences in
*H*(_{1}).
So in order to remedy this it would seem natural to replace
*H*(_{1}) by sets *A*
which are, in some sense, closed under the formation of such
deductions, and then to consider just those formulas whose codes are
in *A*.

We now give a sketch of how this can be done.

First, we identify the symbols and formulas of
(_{1},)
with their codes in
*H*(_{1}),
as in §4. For each countable
transitive^{[9]}
set *A*, let

We say that_{A}=Form((_{1},))A.

(i)The notion of deduction in_{A}(ii) if ,

, then_{A}and_{A}_{A}(iii) if

and_{A}xA, thenx_{A}(iv) if (

x)and_{A}yA, then (y)_{A}(v) if

, every subformula of is in_{A}_{A}(vi) if

and_{A}A, then._{A}

Let *A* be a countable transitive set such that
* _{A}* is a sublanguage of
(

From Barwise’s result one obtains immediately the

The presence of "Barwise Compactness Theorem.LetAbe a countable admissible set and letbe a set of sentences of_{A}which is_{1}onA.If eachsuch thatAhas a model, then so does.

Another version of the Barwise compactness theorem, useful for
constructing models of set theory, is the following. Let
**ZFC** be the usual set of axioms for Zermelo-Fraenkel
set theory, including the axiom of choice. Then we have:

To conclude, we give a simple application of this theorem. Let5.5. Theorem.Let A be a countable transitive set such that= <AA, |A>is a model of.ZFCIfis a set of sentences of_{A}which is definable inAby a formula of the language of set theory and if eachsuch thatA has a model, so does.

The reader will quickly see that the first-order compactness theorem will not yield this result.5.6. Theorem.Each countable transitive model of.ZFChas a proper end-extension

Proof. Let= <AA, |A> be a transitive model ofZFCand let be the first-order language of set theory augmented by a nameafor eachaA, and an additional constantc. Let be the set of-sentences comprising:_{A}It is easily shown that is a subset of

- all axioms of
ZFC;ca, for eachaA;x(xa_{}x=b), for eachaA;ab, for eachabA.Awhich is definable inby a formula of the language of set theory. Also, each subset such thatAAhas a model. For the setCof allaAfor whichaoccurs in belongs toA-- since does -- and so, if we interpretcas any member of the (necessarily nonempty) setA - C, thenis a model of . Accordingly, (5.5) implies that has a model <AB, E>. If we interpret each constantaas the elementaA, then <B, E> is a proper end-extension of. The proof is complete.A

[Supplement: Definition of the Concept of Admissible Set

§**3**. Results (3.2) and (3.3) are due to Hanf
[1964], with some refinements by Lopez-Escobar [1966] and Dickmann
[1975], while (3.4) was proved by Tarski. Result (3.5) is due to
Scott [1961], (3.6) to Bell [1970] and [1972]; and (3.7) to Bell
[1974]. Measurable cardinals were first considered by Ulam [1930] and
Tarski [1939]. The fact that measurable cardinals are weakly compact
was noted in Tarski [1962].

§**4**. The undecidability theorem for
(_{1},_{1})
was proved by Scott in 1960; a fully detailed proof first appeared
in Karp [1964]. The approach to the theorem adopted here is based on
the account given in Dickmann [1975].

§**5**. The original motivation for the results
presented in this section came from Kreisel; in his [1965] he pointed
out that there were no compelling grounds for choosing infinitary
formulas solely on the grounds of "length", and proposed instead that
definability or "closure" criteria be employed. Kreisel’s suggestion
was taken up with great success by Barwise [1967], where his
compactness theorem was proved. The notion of admissible set is due
to Platek [1966]. Theorem (5.6) is taken from Keisler [1974].
For further reading on the subject of infinitary languages, see Aczel
[1973], Dickmann [1975], Karp [1964], Keisler [1974], and Makkai
[1977].

- Aczel, P., 1973, "Infinitary Logic and the Barwise Compactness
Theorem",
*Proceedings of the 1971 Bertrand Russell Memorial Logic Conference*(Uldum, Denmark), J. Bell, J. Cole, G. Priest, and A. Slomson (eds.), Leeds: published by the Bertrand Russell Memorial Logic Conference, 234-277. - Barwise, J., 1967,
*Infinitary Logic and Admissible Sets*. Ph.D. Thesis, Stanford University. - Bell, J. L., 1970, "Weak Compactness in Restricted
Second-Order Languages",
*Bull. Pol. Acad. Sci.*18: 111-114. - ---------, 1972, "On the Relationship between Weak
Compactness in
(
_{1}, ), (_{1},_{1}),*and Restricted Second-Order Languages*",*Arch. Math. Logik*15: 74-78. - ---------, 1974, "On Compact Cardinals",
*Z. f. Math. Logik u. Grund. D. Math*20: 389-393. - Dickmann, M. A., 1975,
*Large Infinitary Languages*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Hanf, W. P., 1964,
*Incompactness in Languages with Infinitely Long Expressions*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Karp, C., 1964,
*Languages with Expressions of Infinite Length*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - ---------, 1965, "Finite-Quantifier Equivalence" in
*The Theory of Models*, J. Addison, L. Henkin, and A. Tarski (eds.), Amsterdam: North-Holland, 407-412. - Keisler, H. J., 1974,
*Model Theory for Infinitary Logic*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Kreisel, G., 1965, "Model-Theoretic Invariants, Applications to
Recursive and Hyperarithmetic Operations", in
*The Theory of Models*, J. Addison, L. Henkin, and A. Tarski (eds.), Amsterdam: North-Holland, 190-205. - Lopez-Escobar, E. G. K., 1965, "An Interpolation Theorem for
Infinitely Long Sentences",
*Fund. Math.*57: 253-272. - ---------, 1966, "On Defining Well-Orderings",
*Fund. Math.*59: 13-21. - Makkai, M., 1977, "Admissible Sets and Infinitary Logic",
*Handbook of Mathematical Logic*, J. Barwise (ed.), Amsterdam: North-Holland, 233-282. - Morley, M., 1965, "Omitting Classes of Elements",
*The Theory of Models*, J. Addison, L. Henkin, and A. Tarski (eds.), Amsterdam: North-Holland, 265-273. - Platek, R., 1966,
*Foundations of Recursion Theory*, Ph.D. Thesis, Stanford University. - Scott, D., 1961, "Measurable Cardinals and Constructible
Sets",
*Bull. Acad. Pol. Sci.*9: 521-524. - ---------, 1965, "Logic with Denumerably Long Formulas and
Finite Strings of Quantifiers",
*The Theory of Models*, J. Addison, L. Henkin, and A. Tarski (eds.), Amsterdam: North-Holland, 329-341.

*First published: January 23, 2000*

*Content last modified: September 19, 2000*