|This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.|
Because of the long tradition of exposition which has developed around Aristotles De Anima, the interpretation of even its most central theses is sometimes disputed. Moreover, because of its evident affinities with some prominent approaches in contemporary philosophy of mind, Aristotles psychology has received renewed interest and has incited intense interpretative dispute in recent decades. Consequently, this entry proceeds on two levels. The main article recounts the principal and distinctive claims of Aristotles psychology, avoiding so far as possible exegetical controversy and critical commentary. At the end of appropriate sections of the main article, readers are invited to explore problematic or advanced features of Aristotles theories by moving to a lower level.
In both De Anima and the Parva Naturalia, Aristotle assumes something which may strike some of his modern readers as odd. He takes psychology to be the branch of science which investigates the soul and its properties, but he thinks of the soul as a general principle of life, with the result that psychology studies all living beings, and not merely those he regards as having minds, human beings. So, in De Anima, he takes it as his task to provide an account of the life activities of plants and animals, along side those of humans (De Anima ii 11, 423a20-6, cf. ii 1, 412a13; cf. De Generatione Animalium ii 3, 736b13; De Partibus Animalium iv 5, 681a12). In comparison with the modern discipline of Psychology, then, Aristotles psychology is broad in scope. He even devotes attention to the question of the nature of life itself, a subject which falls outside the purview of psychology in most contemporary contexts. On Aristotles approach, psychology studies the soul (psuchê in Greek, or anima in Latin); so it naturally investigates all ensouled or animate beings.
In characterizing the soul and body in these ways, Aristotle applies concepts drawn from his broader hylomorphism, a conceptual framework which underlies virtually all of his mature theorizing. It is accordingly necessary to begin with a brief overview of that framework. Thereafter it will be possible to recount Aristotles general approach to soul-body relations, and then, finally, to consider his analyses of the individual faculties of soul.
Hylomorphism is simply a compound word composed of the Greek terms for matter (hulê) and form or shape (morphê); thus one could equally describe Aristotles view of soul and body as an instance of his "matter-formism". That is, when he introduces the soul as the form of the body, which in turn is said to be the matter of the soul, Aristotle treats soul-body relations as a special case of a more general relationship which obtains between the components of all generated compounds, natural or artifactual.
The notions of form and matter are themselves, however, developed within the context of a general theory of causation and explanation which appears in one guise or another in all of Aristotles mature works. According to this theory, when we wish to explain what there is to know, for example, about a bronze statue, a complete account necessarily alludes to at least the following four factors: the statues matter, its form or structure, the agent responsible for that matters manifesting its form or structure, and the purpose for which the matter was made to realize that form or structure. These four factors he terms the four causes (aitiai):
For a broad range of cases, Aristotle implicitly makes twin claims about these four causes: (i) a complete explanation requires reference to all four; and (ii) once such reference is made, no further explanation is required. Thus, when appropriate, appeal to the four causes is both necessary and sufficient for complete and adequate explanation. Although not all things which admit of explanation have all four causes, e.g. geometrical figures are not efficiently caused, even a brief overview of his psychological writings reveals that Aristotle regards all four causes as in play in the explanation of living beings. A monkey, for example, has matter, its body; form, its soul; an efficient cause, its parent; and a final cause, its function. Moreover, he holds that the form is the actuality of the body which is its matter: an indeterminate lump of bronze becomes a statue only when it realizes some particular statue-shape. So, Aristotle suggests, that matter is potentially some F until it acquires an actualizing form, when it becomes actually F. Given his overarching explanatory schema, it is hardly surprising that Aristotle should advance a hylomorphic account of soul and body; this is, for him, standard explanatory procedure.
The material cause: that from which something is generated and out of which it is made, e.g. the bronze of a statue. The formal cause: the structure which the matter realizes and in terms of which the matter comes to be something determinate, e.g. the Hermes shape in virtue of which this quantity of bronze is said to be a statue of Hermes. The efficient cause: the agent responsible for a quantity of matters coming to be informed, e.g. the sculptor who shaped the quantity of bronze into its current Hermes shape. The final cause: the purpose or goal of the compound of form and matter, e.g. the statue was created for the purpose of honoring Hermes.
Still, it is noteworthy that this four-causal framework of explanation is developed initially in response to some puzzles about change and generation. Aristotle argues with some justification that all change and generation require the existence of something complex: when a statue comes to be from a lump of bronze, there is some continuing subject, the bronze, and something it comes to acquire, its new form. Thus the statue is, and must be, a certain kind of compound, one of form and matter. Without this type of complexity, generation would be impossible; since generation in fact occurs, form and matter must be genuine features of generated compounds. Similarly, but less obviously, qualitative change requires much the same apparatus: when a statue is painted, there is some continuing subject, the statue, and a new feature acquired, its new color. Here too there is complexity, and complexity which is readily articulated in terms of form and matter, but now of form which is evidently inessential to the continued existence of the entity whose form it is. The statue continues to exist, but receives a form which is accidental to it; it might lose that form without going out of existence. By contrast, should the statue lose its essential form, as would happen for example if the bronze which constitutes it were melted, divided, and recast as twelve dozen letter openers, it would cease to exist altogether.
For the purposes of understanding Aristotles psychology, the origin of Aristotles hylomorphism is significant for two reasons. First, from its inception, Aristotles hylomorphism exploits two distinct but related notions of form, one of which is essential to the compound whose form it is, and the other of which is accidental to its subject. In advancing his view of the soul and its capacities, Aristotle employs both of these notions: the soul is an essential form, whereas perception involves the acquisition of accidental forms. Second, because Aristotles hylomorphism was initially developed to handle puzzles of change and generation, its deployment in philosophical psychology is sometimes strained, insofar as Aristotle is not immediately willing to treat every instance of perception and thought as a straightforward instance of change in some continuing subject.
If the soul bears the same relation to the body which the shape of a statue bears to its material basis, then we should expect some general features to be common to both; and we should be able to draw some immediate consequences regarding the relationship between soul and body. To begin, some questions about the unity of soul and body, an issue of concern to substance dualists and materialists alike, receive a ready response. Materialists hold that all mental states are also physical states; substance dualists deny this, because they hold that the soul is a subject of mental states which can exist alone, when separated from the body. In a certain way, the questions which give rise to this dispute simply fall by the wayside. If we do not think there is an interesting or important question concerning whether the Hermes-shape and its material basis are one, we should not suppose there is a special or pressing question about whether the soul and body are one. So Aristotle contends: "It is not necessary to ask whether soul and body are one, just as it is not necessary to ask whether the wax and its shape are one, nor generally whether the matter of each thing and that of which it is the matter are one. For even if one and being are spoken of in several ways, what is properly so spoken of is the actuality" (De Anima ii 1, 412b6-9). Aristotle does not here eschew questions concerning the unity of soul and body as meaningless; rather, he seems, in a deflationary vein, to suggest that they are readily answered or somehow unimportant. If we do not spend time worrying about whether the wax of a candle and its shape are one, then we should not exercise ourselves over the question of whether the soul and body are one. The effect, then, is to fit soul-body relations into a larger pattern of explanation, hylomorphism, in terms of which questions of unity do not normally arise.
soul : body : : form : matter : : Hermes-shape : bronze
It should be emphasized, however, that Aristotle does not here decide the question by insisting that the soul and body are identical, or even that they are one in some weaker sense; indeed, this is something he evidently denies (De Anima ii 1, 412a17; ii 2, 414a1-20). Instead, just as one might well insist that the wax of a candle and its shape are distinct, on the grounds that the wax could easily exist when the particular shape is no more, or, less obviously, that the particular shape could survive the replenishment of its material basis, so one might equally deny that the soul and body are identical. In a fairly direct way, though, the question of whether soul and body are one loses its force when it is allowed that it contains no implications beyond those we establish for any other hylomorphic compound, including houses and other ordinary artifacts.
One way of appreciating this is to consider a second general moral Aristotle derives from hylomorphism. This concerns the question of the separability of the soul from the body, a possibility embraced by substance dualists from the time of Plato onward. Aristotles hylomorphism commends the following attitude: if we do not think that the Hermes-shape persists after the bronze is melted and recast, we should not think that the soul survives the demise of the body. So, Aristotle claims, "It is not unclear that the soulor certain parts of it, if it naturally has partsis not separable from the body" (De Anima ii 1, 413a3-5). So, unless we are prepared to treat forms in general as capable of existing without their material bases, we should not be inclined to treat souls as exceptional cases. Hylomorphism, by itself, gives us no reason to treat souls as separable from bodies, even if we think of them as distinct from their material bases. At the same time, Aristotle does not appear to think that his hylomorphism somehow refutes all possible forms of dualism. For he appends to his denial of the souls separability the observation that some parts of the soul may in the end be separable after all, since they are not the actualities of any part of the body (De Anima ii 1, 413a6-7). Aristotle here prefigures his complex attitude toward mind (nous), a faculty he repeatedly describes as exceptional among capacities of the soul.
Still, in general, the soul is the form of the body in much the same way the form of a house structures the bricks and mortar from which it is built. When the bricks and mortar realize a certain shape, they manifest the function definitive of houses, namely that of providing shelter. Thus, the presence of the form makes those bricks and that mortar a house, as opposed, e.g., to a wall or an oven. As we have seen, Aristotle will say that the bricks and mortar, as matter, are potentially a house, until they realize the form appropriate to houses, in which case the form and matter together make an actual house. So, in Aristotles terms, the form is the actuality of the house, since its presence explains why this particular quantity of matter comes to be a house as opposed to some other kind of artifact.
In the same way, then, the presence of the soul explains why this matter is the matter of a human being, as opposed to some other kind of thing. Now, this way of looking at soul-body relations as a special case of form-matter relations treats reference to the soul as an integral part of any complete explanation of a living being, of any kind. To this degree, Aristotle thinks that Plato and other dualists are right to stress the importance of the soul in explanations of living beings. At the same time, he sees their commitment to the separability of the soul from the body as unmotivated by a mere appeal to formal causation: he will allow that the soul is distinct from the body, and is indeed the actuality of the body, but he sees that these concessions by themselves provide no grounds for supposing that the soul can exist without the body. His hylomorphism, then, embraces neither reductive materialism nor Platonic dualism. Instead, it seeks to steer a middle course between these alternatives by pointing out, implicitly, and rightly, that these are not exhaustive options.
There is some dispute about which of the psychic abilities mentioned by Aristotle in De Anima qualify as full-fledged or autonomous faculties. He evidently accepts the three already mentioned as centrally important. Indeed, he is willing to demarcate a hierarchy of life in terms of them. Even so, he also discusses two other capacities, imagination (De Anima iii 3) and desire (De Anima iii 9 and 10), and appeals to them both in his account of thinking and his philosophy of action. He does little, however, to characterize them in any intrinsic way; he evidently regards them as subordinate faculties, integrated in various ways with the faculties of nutrition, perception, and thought. Each of them raises interesting questions about how Aristotle views the various capacities of soul as integrating into unified forms. His main deployment of a hylomorphic analysis, however, extends only to the individual capacities of nutrition, perception, and mind.
Aristotle approaches his account of the nutritive soul by relying on a methodological precept which informs much of his psychological theorizing, namely that a capacity is individuated by its objects, so that, e.g., perception is distinguished from mind by being arrayed toward sensible qualities rather than intelligible forms (De Anima ii 4, 415a20-21). This induces him to offer what may sound initially like a pedestrian observation, that in nutrition there are three components, "that which is nourished, that by which it is nourished, and what nourishes (i.e. that which engages in nutrition)." This, however, Aristotle unpacks by maintaining that "what nourishes is the primary soul; what is nourished is the body which has this soul; and that by which it is nourished is nourishment (i.e. food)" (De Anima ii 4, 416b20-23). The interest of this suggestion lies in the implication that all and only living systems can be nourished, a consequence Aristotle makes more explicit by claiming that "nothing is nourished which does not have a share in life" (De Anima ii 4. 415b27-28) and that "since nothing is nourished which does not partake of life, what is nourished will be the ensouled body insofar as it is ensouled, with the result that nourishment (i.e. food) is related to the ensouled, and not coincidentally" (De Anima ii 4, 416b9-11). Here Aristotle means that food, as food, is definitionally related to life. Whatever is food is already such as to be necessarily related to living beings.
The significance of this observation resides in the thought that any adequate account of nutrition will make ineliminable reference to life as such. This in turn entails that it will not be possible to define life as the capacity for taking on nutrition. For then we would have a vicious circularity: a living system is the sort of thing which can take on nutrition, while nutrition is whatever stuff is such as to sustain a living system. So, if living systems cannot be reductively defined in some other way, it will follow that no reductive account of life will be forthcoming. Consequently, Aristotles discussion of nutrition provides some reason for thinking that he will resist any attempt to define life in terms which do not themselves implicitly appeal to life itself. That is, he will resist any reductive account of life.
This also seems to be the purport of Aristotles rejection of the simple mechanistic accounts of growth which he considers when discussing the nutritive soul (De Anima ii 4, 415b27-416a20; cf. De Generatione et Corruptione i 5). Aristotle objects to those who want to account for growth merely in terms of the natural tendencies of material elements. For growth is a constrained pattern of development, the source of which Aristotle ascribes to the soul. He takes it as manifest that growth in organisms proceeds along structured paths, in end-directed ways. These structures in turn manifest capacities whose explication cannot be given in crude materialistic terms; for materialistic terms, as Aristotle understands them, fail to account for the fact that mature members of species cease growing, having realized the structures characteristic of their kind. Fire, for example, by contrast "grows" haphazardly, without directionality, moving toward the combustible without end, until hindered by external impediments or lack of fuel.
Now, the forms of materialist explanations Aristotle considers are primitive. One critical question about his treatment of these explanations concerns whether he is right to suggest that facts about constrained patterns of development are incompatible with more explanatorily advanced forms of materialism, and, if so, whether those forms of materialism will be reductive in the sense that they will avoid all implicit or explicit reference to life. So far, there is little reason to think that Aristotle has been proven wrong; that is, there is at present no reductive account of life which enjoys universal or even broad support.
In any case, Aristotles discussion of nutrition is characteristic of his general approach to the souls faculties. His discussions often proceed on two levels. On the one hand, he simply seeks to provide an account of the relevant phenomena. At the same time, his interests in definition are conditioned by a host of broader methodological and metaphysical concerns. Consequently, he attempts to capture the nature of the individual faculties while at the same time investigating whether reductive accounts of them are plausible. In this way, at least, Aristotles investigations reflect sensitivity to a host of questions in definitional methodology, including most notably questions about the plausibility of reductive approaches to lifes most characteristic features. These same interests are apparent in his discussions of perception and mind.
This much, however, does not explain how perception occurs. Aristotle claims that perception is best understood on the model of hylomorphic change generally: just as a house changes from blue to white when acted upon by the agency of a painter applying paint, so "perception comes about with <an organs> being changed and affected. . .for it seems to be a kind of alteration" (De Anima ii 5, 416b33-34). So, in line with his general account of alteration, Aristotle treats perception as a case of interaction between two suitable agents: objects capable of acting and capacities capable of being affected. That the agents and patients must both be suitable is important, since we need to distinguish between two ways, e.g., an odor might affect something. By being placed in its vicinity, a clove of garlic might affect a block of tofu. The tofu might come to take on the odor of the garlic. But we would not want to say that the tofu perceives the garlic. By contrast, when an animal is affected by the same clove, it perceives the odor. Since the garlic is the same in both cases, the difference in these cases must reside in the character of the object affected: when animals receive forms, perception results.
In both kinds of alterations, Aristotle is happy to speak of an affected thing as receiving the form of the agent which affects it and of the change consisting in the affected things "becoming like" the agent (De Anima ii 5, 418a3-6; ii 12, 424a17-21). So, there is in both cases, a hylomorphic model of alteration involving "enforming", that is, a model according to which change is explained by the acquisition of a form by something capable of receiving it. Consequently, whatever is changed in a given way is necessarily such that it is capable of being changed in that way. This is not the mere triviality that whatever becomes actually F must already be possibly F. Instead, it is the recognition that specific forms of change require suitable capacities in the changing subjects, and that, consequently, analyses of specific forms of change will necessarily involve consideration of those capacities. No marshmallow can receive the form of an actual automobile; and only entities capable of perceiving can receive the perceptible forms of objects. This is Aristotles meaning when he claims: "the perceptive faculty is in potentiality such as the object of perception already is in actuality" and that when something is affected by an object of perception, "it is made like it and is such as that thing is" (De Anima ii 5, 418a3-6).
This hylomorphic restriction on the suitability of subjects of change has the effect of limiting cases of actual perception to those instances of form-reception which involve living beings endowed with the appropriate faculties. It does not, however, explain just what those faculties are, nor even how they are "made like" their objects of perception. Minimally, though, Aristotle claims that for some subject S and some sense object O:
Each of these clauses requires unpacking. The plausibility of Aristotles theory turns on their eventual explications. The first clause (i) is intended to distinguish the active capacities of animals from the merely passive capacities of lifeless material bodies, including the media through which sensible forms travel. (Just as we do not want to say that the tofu in the refrigerator perceives the garlic next to it, we do not want to say that air perceives the color blue when affected by the color of a car.) But it does not yet specify what is required for having the requisite active capacities. Also difficult is the notion of isomorphism appealed to in (iii). As stated, (iii) invites, and has received, scrutiny. Interpretations range from treating the form of isomorphism as direct and literal, so that, e,g., the eyes become speckled when viewing a robins egg, to attenuated, where the isomorphism is more akin to that enjoyed between a house and its blue-print. Here especially the plausibility of Aristotles hylomorphic analysis of perception hangs in the balance.
S perceives O if and only if: (i) S has the capacity requisite for receiving Os sensible form; (ii) O acts upon that capacity by enforming it; and, as a result, (iii) Ss relevant capacity becomes isomorphic with that form.
His primary investigation of mind occurs in two chapters of De Anima, both of which are richly suggestive, but neither of which admits of easy or uncontroversial exposition. In them, De Anima iii 4 and 5, Aristotle approaches the nature of thinking by once again deploying a hylomorphic analysis, given in terms of form reception. Just as perception involves the reception of a sensible form by a suitably qualified sensory faculty, so thinking involves the reception of an intelligible form by a suitably qualified intellectual faculty (De Anima iii 4, 429a13-18). According to this model, thinking consists in a minds becoming enformed by some object of thought, so that actual thinking occurs whenever some suitably prepared mind is "made like" its object by being affected by it.
This hylomorphic analysis of thinking is evidently a simple extension of the general model of hylomorphic change exploited by Aristotle in a host of similar contexts. Accordingly, Aristotles initial account of thinking will directly parallel his analysis of perception (De Anima iii 4, 429a13-18). That is, at least in schematic outline, Aristotle will offer the following approach, for any given thinker S and an arbitrary object of thought O:
Unsurprisingly, the same questions which arose in the case of perception also arise here. Most immediately, to understand Aristotles approach to thinking, it is necessary to determine what it means to say that a thinkers mind and its object become isomorphic.
S thinks O if and only if: (i) S has the capacity requisite for receiving Os intelligible form; (ii) O acts upon that capacity by enforming it; and, as a result, (iii) Ss relevant capacity becomes isomorphic with that form.
Here, at least, Aristotle points out what is obvious, that when a thinkers soul is made like its cognitive object, it does not become one with some hylomorphic compound, but with its form: "for it is not the stone which is in the soul, but its form" (De Anima iii 8, 431b29-432a1; cf. iii 4, 429a27). The suggestion is, then, that when S comes to think of a stone, as opposed to merely perceiving some particular stone, S has a faculty which is such that it can become one in form with that stone. Aristotle sometimes infers from this sort of consideration that thought is of universals, whereas perception is of particulars (De Anima ii 5, 417b23, Posterior Analytics i 31, 87b37-88a7), though he elsewhere will allow that we also have knowledge of individuals (De Anima ii 5, 417a29; Metaphysics xiii 10, 1087a20). These passages are not contradictory, since Aristotle may simply be emphasizing that thought tends to proceed at a higher level of generality than perception, because of its trading in comparatively abstract structural features of its objects. A person can think of what it is to be a stone, but cannot, in any direct and literal sense of the term, perceive this.
However that may be, Aristotles conception of thinking implicates him in supposing that thought involves grasping the structural features of the objects of thought. To take an initially favorable case, when thinking that tree frogs are oviparous, S will be in a psychic state whose internal structural states are, among other things, one in form with tree frogs. Since Ss soul does not become a tree frog when thinking of tree frogs, this form of isomorphism cannot be mere instantiation of the form being a tree frog. Rather, Ss mind will evidently be one in form with the tree frog, to revert to our earlier analogy, in something like the way a blueprint and the house of which it is the blueprint are one in form. There must be a determinate and expressible structural isomorphism, even though one could not say that the blueprint realizes the form of the house: houses are, after all, necessarily three-dimensional.
For Aristotle, it is not a contingent state of affairs that Ss mind does not realize the form being a tree frog in the way that tree frogs themselves do. On the contrary, the mind cannot realize a broad range of forms: the mind is, according to Aristotle, not "mixed with the body", insofar as it, unlike the perceptual faculty, lacks a bodily organ (De Anima iii 4, 429a24-7). As such, it would not be possible for the mind to realize the form of a house in the way bricks and mortar instantiate such a form: houses provide shelter, something a mind, so understood, cannot do. Consequently, when claiming that minds become isomorphic with their objects, Aristotle must understand the way in which minds become enformed as somehow attenuated or non-literal. Perhaps, though, this should be plain enough. If a mind thinks something by being made like it, then the way it is likened to what it thinks must be somehow representational. Consequently, Aristotle is reasonably understood as holding that S thinks some object of thought O whenever Ss mind is made like that object by representing salient structural features of O by being directly isomorphic with them, without, that is, by simply realizing the form of O in the way O does.
This approach to the nature of thinking has some promising features. Both in its own terms, and in virtue of its fitting into a broader pattern of explanation, Aristotles hylomorphic analysis merits serious consideration. At the same time, one of its virtues may appear also as a vice. We noted in discussing Aristotles hylomorphic analysis of change generally that his account requires the existence of suitably disposed subjects of change. Only surfaces can be affected so as to be changed in color. An action, such as Socrates becoming unnerved by a glance of Alcibiades, cannot be made white; it is simply not the appropriate sort of subject. So, hylomorphic change requires at least the following two components: (i) something pre-existing to be the patient of the change, and (ii) that things being categorially suited to be changed in the way specified.
Already at the first stage, however, Aristotles application of this hylomorphic analysis of change to thinking may seem an over-extension. For he maintains directly that mind is "none of the things existing in actuality before thinking" (De Anima iii 4, 429a24). His reasons for maintaining this thesis are complex, but derive ultimately from the forms of plasticity Aristotle believes the mind must manifest if it is to be capable of thinking all things (De Anima iii 4, 429a18). Now, if the mind is indeed nothing in actuality before thinking, it is hard to understand how the hylomorphic analysis of change and affection could be brought to bear in this arena. If some dough is made cookie-shaped, it is actually dough before being so enformed; even the sense organs, when made like their objects, are actually existing organs before being affected by the objects of perception. So, given a conception of mind as not existing in actuality before thinking, it is hard to appreciate how thinking lends itself to an analysis in terms of any recognizable hylomorphic approach to change.
How great a problem this will be depends in part upon how entrenched Aristotles commitment to minds being nothing in actuality before thinking turns out to be. It equally turns on how adaptable Aristotles hylomorphic account of change proves. On this latter point, Aristotle notes that according to that account, there are various different types of change and alteration, illustrated by the difference between a brown fences being painted white and a builders taking up his tools and beginning to build. In the first case, there is a destruction and a loss, of the fences original color; in the second case, nothing is destroyed, but rather that which is already dispositionally F becomes occurently F by engaging in some F-ish activity. A builder is as such already able to build. When he begins building he becomes fully and actually a builder for the duration of his working. In this way, he loses nothing, but instead realizes an already established potential.
This second type of change, which Aristotle maintains is the appropriate model for many psychic activities, is either "not an instance of alteration. . .or is a different kind of alteration," where one "should not speak of being affected, unless <one allows that> there are two kinds of alteration" (De Anima ii 5, 417b6-16). Perhaps Aristotles position will then be that the mind, at least insofar as its cognitive capacities for thought are concerned, is simply such as to be enformed by any of an infinite range of objects of thought. This would involve its being nothing determinate in itself; and far from being anomalous for Aristotle, the mind would be in the cognitive realm precisely what the most basic stuff, if there is a most basic stuff, would be in the material realm. Both would manifest unconstrained plasticity; and so each would be characterized essentially in terms of their range of potentialities.
That said, it should be noticed that when it is detached from the idiosyncratic thesis that the mind is nothing in actuality before thinking, Aristotles hylomorphic analysis of thought retains whatever plausibility it may have independently. For the suggestion that thinking is to be understood at least partially in terms of isomorphisms between our representational capacities and the objects of our cognition has had, for good reason, a durable appeal. To the degree that hylomorphism is generally defensible, then, its application in this domain provides a theoretically rich framework for investigating the nature of thought.
Supplementary Discussion of Mind:
The Subordinate Psychic Faculties of Imagination and Desire
Table of Contents
First published: January 11, 2000
Content last modified: January 14, 2000