John Philoponus, a Christian philosopher, scientist, and theologian who lived approximately from 490 to 570, is also known as John the Grammarian or John of Alexandria. The epithet ‘Philoponus’ means literally ‘Lover of toil’. Philoponus' life and work are closely connected to the city of Alexandria and the Alexandrian Neoplatonic school. Although the Aristotelian-Neoplatonic tradition was the source of his intellectual roots and concerns, he was an original thinker who eventually broke with that tradition in many important respects, both substantive and methodological, and cleared part of the way which led to more critical and empirical approaches in the natural sciences. Which intellectual, religious, or other cultural circumstances of his life and times may have put Philoponus into the position to initiate and foreshadow the eventual demise of Aristotelianism is one of the most fascinating questions anyone who tries to arrive at a fuller appreciation of the work of this important late Greek philosopher faces.
- 1. Introduction
- 2. Extant Philosophical Commentaries
- 3. The Critical Treatises
- 4. Theological Treatises
- 5. Influence
- 6. ‘Explaining’ Philoponus
- Academic Tools
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Philoponus' oeuvre comprises at least 40 items on diverse subjects such as grammar, logic, mathematics, physics, psychology, cosmology, astronomy, theology and church politics; even medical treatises have been attributed to him. A substantial part of his work has come down to us, but some treatises are known only indirectly through quotations or translations into Syriac and Arabic. Although his fame rests predominantly on the fact that, even within some of his commentaries on works of Aristotle, he initiated and in fact anticipated the eventual liberation of natural philosophy from the straitjacket of Aristotelianism, his non-polemical commentaries on Aristotle as well as his theological treatises deserve to be appreciated as well.
Philoponus' intellectual career began when he was a pupil of the Neoplatonic philosopher Ammonius, son of Hermias, who had been taught by Proclus at Athens and was head of the school at Alexandria. Some of his commentaries profess to be based on Ammonius' lectures, but others give more room to Philoponus' own ideas. Eventually, he transformed the usual format of apologetic commentary into a discourse of open criticism, in the course of which he examined and repudiated fundamental Aristotelian-Neoplatonic tenets, most prominently the doctrine of the eternity of the world. This independent-minded or even disrespectful approach to philosophical commentary, as well as the conclusions he drew, antagonized Philoponus' pagan colleagues; their opposition may have compelled him to abandon his philosophical career in the 530's. Philoponus never succeeded his teacher Ammonius as head of the school. He devoted the second half of his life to engaging in the theological debates of his time. Ironically, the orthodox church condemned him posthumously as a heretic (in 680-81) because of his tritheistic interpretation of the trinitarian dogma: through a reading of the relevant concepts in this debate (nature, substance, hupostasis) in a strictly Aristotelian way, Philoponus was led to enunciate not a single god in three persons (Father, Son, Spirit), but three separate divinities.
Reading Philoponus as well as the writings of his great adversary Simplicius, one gets the sense that in the 6th century CE, traditional pagan Greek learning had become desperately insular. The intense incompatibilities between pagan learning and Christian dogma are readily visible on the philosophical surface of Philoponus' work as he struggles to hold his faith accountable to reason. Although his mode of thinking betrays a strong Aristotelian influence, it also displays a certain doctrinal affinity to Plato stripped of the weighty accretions of Neoplatonic interpretation. The style of Philoponus' writing is often circuitous and rarely entertaining, displaying at times an almost pedantic rigor of argument and exposition. Yet he complements this with a remarkable freedom of spirit, which in turn allows him to cast off the fetters of authority as a criterion of truth, be it philosophical or theological. Philoponus' works were translated into Arabic, Latin and Syriac, and he influenced later thinkers such as Bonaventure, Gersonides, Buridan, Oresme and Galileo.
The Grammarian's early extant work on ambiguous words in Greek distinguishable only by their accent is philosophically insignificant. I pass on to give an impression of his extant philosophical writings, first and foremost his commentaries on Aristotle. In order to appreciate the magnitude of Philoponus' achievement as philosopher and scientist, one has to take into account, at least partially, the intellectual culture in which he was brought up. A common way that philosophers in late antiquity developed and propagated their own ideas was by composing commentaries on the classical philosophical texts of Plato and Aristotle. Generations of such commentaries were written from the time when Aristotle's works were again made accessible to a wider audience in the first century BCE down to the seventh century and beyond, forming a massive tradition. However, the majority of ancient commentaries still extant were written by Neoplatonists as textbooks for their philosophical courses. Typically, these works have a number of features in common:
- The commentaries consisted in an extremely detailed oral exegesis of a philosophical text, designed for the benefit of students.
- Not uncommonly, selected pupils were responsible for taking verbatim notes of their teachers' exegeses, thus turning the lecture into a book roll.
- Each set of lectures and resulting commentary constituted a step within a substantial curriculum of philosophical training which began with Aristotle and aimed at progressing towards Plato.
- A commentator was expected to demonstrate the agreement between Plato and Aristotle, indeed, to show forth the harmony among all “ancient” philosophers (i.e., those down to the time of Aristotle) including Homer.
- Finally, doing philosophy in this way was not only an education, it was also and even more so a pagan religious exercise, empowering human beings to perfect their intellect and their character with a view to becoming godlike as far as is humanly possible.
After a basic education in “grammar” as well as studies in classical Greek language and literature, John Philoponus, who was probably born into a Christian family, embarked on this curriculum (c. 510). As a pupil of Ammonius (c. 440-520) he assumed responsibility for writing down the lectures of the school's ailing head: the commentaries on Aristotle's On Generation and Corruption, On the Soul, Prior Analytics and Posterior Analytics explicitly state in their titles that they are based on Ammonius' seminars (ek tôn synousiôn Ammôníou). The commentaries on the Categories, Physics and Meteorology do not make such claims, which suggests, in conjunction with other evidence, that Philoponus was teaching these courses himself. He presumably took over as lecturer from Ammonius at some point, although he never held the chair of philosophy but remained ‘grammatikós’, professor of philology. After the death of Ammonius the school's leadership seems to have passed into the hands of the mathematician Eutocius and then on to the philosopher Olympiodorus (c. 495-570), who was a pagan and still taught in Alexandria in the year 565.
In many ways, Philoponus' commentary on the Categories may be regarded as typical of its kind. The exegesis of Aristotle's text is prefaced by a general clarification of matters of interest for the student who reads philosophy for the first time. (Similar introductions can also be found as prefaces to commentaries on Porphyry's Introduction.) Aristotle's logical works were arranged in an order of increasing complexity, beginning with the Categories, which deals with simple, uncombined utterances. This was followed by De interpretatione (on propositions), Prior Analytics (on syllogism) and Posterior Analytics (on proof). Discussing the problem of the subject matter (skopós) of the Categories, Philoponus says -- roughly in agreement with Iamblichus -- that the Categories are about simple utterances (phônaí) signifying simple things (prágmata) by means of simple concepts (noêmata; In Cat. 10).
Most Neoplatonists followed Alexander of Aphrodisias in regarding logic not as a separate philosophical discipline (the Stoic view) but rather as philosophy's tool, its organon. In their commentaries on the Prior Analytics, both Philoponus and Ammonius side with that tradition and reject the Stoic view, but they add that in the case of Plato, dialectic may well be regarded as part of Platonic philosophy (witness dialogues such as Phaedrus and Phaedo) as well as an excercise in its own right serving as philosophical tool (witness the Parmenides; cf. Philoponus, In An.Pr. 6-9). The contemporary Athenian Neoplatonist Simplicius, who spent much acumen on repudiating and excoriating Philoponian cosmological ideas, denied Philoponus' competence as a logician, and modern scholars tend to agree with him. Historians of logic, however, acknowledge that Philoponus was the first to render a satisfactory account of the syllogism (subsequently the traditional one), stating that the major premise includes the predicate term of the conclusion, the minor premise the subject term (In An.Pr. 67). In Philoponus, too, one encounters for the first time a particular diagram which schematised what kind of conclusions (i.e. universal affirmative, universal negative, particular affirmative, or particular negative) follow from what kind of premises. This diagram, later to be called by the schoolmen ‘ass's bridge’ (pons asinorum), enabled students of logic more easily to construct valid syllogisms (In An.Pr. 274).
The commentary on Aristotle's On the Soul is perhaps the earliest to contain passages in which Philoponus abandons at times proper exegesis in order to criticize Aristotelian doctrine, a tendency which is even more conspicuous in the Physics commentary, dated to 517. Scholars now believe that at least some of these deviations from commentary proper derive from a later revision of the original exegesis. One can distinguish between two kinds of criticism: substantial modification of Aristotelian ideas on the one hand, and outright rejection on the other. Philoponus' commentary On the Soul presents a good example of the former kind of criticism. In On the Soul II 7 Aristotle takes light to be incorporeal, and he describes its appearance as an instantaneous transition from the potentiality (dúnamis) of a medium to be everywhere transparent to the actuality (enérgeia) of transparency. At pp. 330ff of Philoponus' commentary he offers a construcive kind of criticism which seems to have had momentous consequences for his eventual conceptualization of the theory of the impetus (see below). Philoponus contends that Aristotle' view fails to account both for the laws of optics and for the plain phenomenon that the region below the moon is warmed by the light of the sun, a celestial body. In an Aristotelian spirit of modifying the theory so as to save the phenomena, he proceeds to re-interpret the term enérgeia not as a state of actuality, but rather as an ‘incorporeal activity’ which, besides constituting the transparency of the medium, is also capable of warming bodies. In the same way, Philoponus argues, soul, as an incorporeal activity in the body, causes the animal to be warm. Due to this novel interpretation of Aristotle's terminology, light is now understood not statically but as something dynamical. And it is possible to trace Philoponus' further development of the idea. In the Meteorology commentary, which belongs to a stage when Philoponus had abandoned the Aristotelian assumption of an immutable celestial fifth element (ether), he argues that light and heat may best be explained as consequences of the nature of the sun, which is fire (In Meteor. 49). Heat is generated when the rays emanating from the sun are refracted and warm the air through friction.
The Physics commentary contains an array of examples of innovative and damagingly critical commentary. One of the most celebrated achievements is the theory of impetus, which is commonly regarded as a decisive step away from an Aristotelian dynamics towards a modern theory based on the notion of inertia. Concepts akin to those deployed in Philoponus' impetus theory appear in earlier writers such as Hipparchus (2nd c. BCE) and Synesius (4th c. CE), but Philoponus nowhere intimates that he was influenced by any one of them. As far as one can tell from the text In Phys. 639-42, he takes his point of departure from an unsatisfactory Aristotelian answer to a problem that was to puzzle scientists for centuries: Why does an arrow continue to fly after it has left the bow-string, or a stone after it has ceased to be in contact with the hand that throws it? Since Aristotle supposed that a) whenever there is motion there must be something which imparts the motion, and b) mover and moved must be in contact, he was led to conclude that the air displaced in front of the projectile somehow rushes round it and pushes from behind, thus propelling the projectile along. This theory was still in vogue among Aristotelians of the sixteenth century, despite the fact that a thousand years earlier Philoponus had had no truck with it. He proposed instead, much more plausibly but still erroneously, that a projectile moves on account of a kinetic force which is impressed on it by the mover and which exhausts itself in the course of the movement. Philoponus compares this impetus or ‘incorporeal motive enérgeia’, as he calls it, to the activity earlier attributed to light.
Once projectile motion was understood in terms of an impetus in this way, it became possible for Philoponus to reassess the rôle of the medium: far from being responsible for the continuation of a projectile's motion it is in fact an impediment to it (In Phys. 681). On this basis Philoponus concludes, against Aristotle, that there is in fact nothing to prevent one from imagining motion taking place through a void. As regards the natural motion of bodies falling through a medium, Aristotle's verdict that the speed is proportional to the weight of the moving bodies and indirectly proportional to the density of the medium is disproved by Philoponus through appeal to the same kind of experiment that Galileo was to carry out centuries later (In Phys. 682-84).
Philoponus' impetus theory ties in with other far-reaching criticisms of Aristotelian principles of physics. Aristotle had dismissed the notion of a void as a logical impossibility. Philoponus concedes that in nature empty spaces never become actual, but he insists that a clear conception of the void is not only coherent but also necessary if one wants to explain movement in a plenum. When bodies move and in consequence exchange places, this presupposes that somehow there is empty space available to be filled by them (In Phys. 693f.). Again, there are certain phenomena which clearly exhibit the force of the vacuum, for example handling a pipette (clepsudra), which allows one to raise small quantities of fluids, or the fact that one can suck up water through a pipe (In Phys. 571f). Philoponus' elaborate defense of the void (In Phys. 675-94) is closely related to his conceptions of place and space (In Phys. 557-85). Aristotle defined the place of a body as the inner surface of the body or all the bodies taken together that contain it (Phys. IV 4); Philoponus replies that place ought to be conceived as the three-dimensional extension identical to the determinate size of the body, i.e. its volume. This was also the theory of the Stoic Chrysippus, but there is no indication in the present text of Philoponus (as there are in his later works) that he saw himself influenced by the Stoics.
Like place, space is indeterminate three-dimensional extension devoid of body, though it is not actually infinite -- so much Philoponus concedes to Aristotle. Philoponus' discussion of matter builds upon this conception of space. In the Physics commentary (687f.) he argues in a similar vein to Aristotle in Metaphysics VII 3: In abstracting all qualities and other determinations from body Aristotle arrived at a conception of characterless, undetermined matter, a “prime matter” that the Neoplatonists later defined as formless and incorporeal (because it was no actual body, but only the necessary underlying condition for bodies). Philoponus, in contrast, arrives at something he calls corporeal extension (sômatikón diástêma), which is a composite of Neoplatonic prime matter and indeterminate quantity and must not be confused with Philoponian space. His argument here may still be regarded as an elaboration on or correction of Aristotle. However, in Book XI of the polemical treatise against Proclus (see below, 3.1) he jettisons the Aristotelian-Neoplatonic conception of prime matter and posits as the most fundamental level of his ontology ‘the three-dimensional’, as he calls it, i.e. indeterminately extended mass. In this he claims to be following the Stoics (Aet. 414), and it has been pointed out that this ontological level is reminiscent to us of the Cartesian res extensa, although Descartes would not allow Philoponus' distinction between space and corporeal extension. In order to rebuff the likely objection that the three-dimensional cannot be the most fundamental level of being because extension, belonging to the Aristotelian category of quantity, is an accident and requires the assumption of a distinct underlying subject, Philoponus argues that extension is in fact not an accident, but an essential and inseparable differentia of ‘the three-dimensional’, just like heat in fire or whiteness in snow. Thus quantity (corporeal extension) is constitutive of body as such. This amounts to a promotion of one sort of quantity to the category of substance. There are indications that Philoponus would accordingly have modified Aristotle's scheme of the Categories if he had revised his early commentary on that treatise.
The incomplete commentary on the Meteorology may well be the last commentary Philoponus wrote on Aristotle. It is instructive to notice how the lectures are presented with an air of aloofness and, at times, deliberate vagueness. In several places, especially when he has to comment on the nature and movement of the heavens, Philoponus breaks off and refers the student to previously published work: what Philoponus really has to say about the text seems no longer appropriate for the traditionally conceived class-room. He has shaken off the weight of Aristotle's or anyone else's authority, and far from attempting to demonstrate the harmony among philosophers he puts himself forward as a philosopher who dissents from the recognized philosophical authority. The commentator has turned into a critic with independent philosophical ideas of his own.
The Athenian Neoplatonist Proclus (c. 411-485), the teacher of Philoponus' own teacher Ammonius, had written a defense of the pagan Greek (Aristotelian, Platonist) belief in the eternity of the world. His aim was to show that Christian creationism was intellectually untenable. Proclus' eighteen arguments took their point of departure from the myth of Plato's Timaeus, which, according to Proclus, was best and most consistently interpreted according to an eternalist reading: the surface talk of a world being constructed by a divine ‘demiurge’ is part of the mythical framework, not a literal, philosophical claim.
In 529, the year when emperor Justinian put an end to pagan philosophical teaching in Athens, Philoponus published a reply entitled On the Eternity of the World against Proclus. The book amounts to an anti-commentary on the Proclean arguments: combing through Proclus' text Philoponus literally repudiates every single point made. Although his efforts are evidently to some extent motivated by his Christian faith, he keeps biblical theology out of his polemic, attempting to refute Proclus within the framework of Platonist philosophy. He reads the Timaeus as a genuine account of creation (Book VI), compatibly with Christian doctrine. A fresh analysis of the processes of generation and corruption renders even an idea viable which Greek philosophers of all schools never allowed: creation out of nothing (Books VIII and IX). Yet even if it were true that creation out of nothing never occurs in nature, God is surely more powerful a creator than nature and therefore capable of creatio ex nihilo (IX 9).
Philoponus' battle against eternalism may be divided into three stages. The treatise Against Proclus is followed by a second and even more provocative publication, On the Eternity of the World against Aristotle. This work was published c. 530-534 and involved a close scrutiny of the first chapters of Aristotle's On the Heavens (his theory of ether as the fifth element, of which the heavenly bodies are made) and the eighth book of the Physics (arguing for the eternity of time and motion). The third stage is represented by one, perhaps two, non-polemical treatises that have survived in fragments which indicate that numerous arguments against eternity and for creation were arranged in some kind of systematic order.
Like the polemic against Proclus, Against Aristotle is mainly devoted to removing obstacles for the creationist. If Aristotle were right about the existence of an immutable fifth element (ether) in the celestial region, and if he were right about motion and time being eternal, any belief in creation would surely be unwarranted. Philoponus succeeds in pointing to numerous contradictions, inconsistencies, fallacies and improbable assumptions in Aristotle's philosophy of nature relating to these claims. Dissecting Aristotle's texts in an unprecedented way, he time and again turns the tables on Aristotle and so paves the way for demonstrative arguments for non-eternity. One such argument is reported by Simplicius (In Phys. 1178,7-1179,26 = Contra Aristotelem, Fr. 132). It relies on three premises: (1) If the existence of something requires the preexistence of something else, then the first thing will not come to be without the prior existence of the second. (2) An infinite number cannot exist in actuality, nor be traversed in counting, nor be increased. (3) Something cannot come into being if its existence requires the preexistence of an infinite number of other things, one arising out of the other. From these not at all un-Aristotelian premises Philoponus deduces that the conception of a temporally infinite universe, understood as a successive causal chain, is impossible. The celestial spheres of Aristotelian theory have different periods of revolution, and in any given number of years they undergo different numbers of revolutions, some larger than others. The assumption of their motion having gone on for all eternity leads to the conclusion that infinity can be increased, even multiplied, which Aristotle too held to be absurd.
The non-polemical anti-eternalist treatises exploit, among others, Aristotle's argument that an infinite power or potentiality (dúnamis) cannot reside in a finite body (Phys. VIII 10). Philoponus infers that since the universe is a finite body, it cannot have the dúnamis to exist for an infinite time. As in the case of his theory of light, this argument involves a shift of meaning. In the context of Aristotle's argument in Phys. VIII 10, dúnamis meant ‘kinetic force’; Philoponus uses the word in the sense of ‘existential capacity’ or ‘fitness to exist’.
By the end of the 530s Philoponus seems to have stopped producing philosophical works; his career as a philosopher was finished. Thenceforward his writing was devoted to theological topics. Since there is no evidence that he belonged to the clerical order, it is difficult to picture his professional life as a theologian. He published his theological treatises under the same name by which he had established himself, Iôánnês ho Grammatikós, yet it seems hard to imagine him still as a professor of Grammar. His other epithet ‘philóponos’ (lover of toil) is probably best interpreted as an acknowledgment of his literary productivity, not as an indication that he was one of those zealous Christian brethren in Egypt who called themselves by that name.
Perhaps some fifteen years (the date is disputed) after his attack on Aristotle on the eternity of the world, Philoponus published a commentary on the biblical creation story, On the Creation of the World (De opificio mundi), which is his only theological work extant in Greek. While discussing the biblical text Philoponus frequently refers to philosophers like Aristotle, Plato and Ptolemy as well as to St. Basil the Great, whose own treatise on the creation served him as inspiration. The De opificio mundi has received some attention from historians of science, because Philoponus suggests at one point (I 12) that the movement of the heavens could be explained by a ‘motive force’ impressed on the celestial bodies by God at the time of creation. As we have seen (2.2 above), Philoponus discussed impetus theory for the first time in the context of forced motion, as when one shoots an arrow with a bow; now he applies the theory to the regular and natural motions of the universe at large. Significantly, Philoponus compares the rotation implanted in the celestial bodies to the rectilinear movements of the elements as well as to the movements of animals: curiously, these are all understood as natural motions that are due to the creator's divine impetus. In virtue of this bold suggestion Philoponus is often credited with having envisaged, for the first time, a unified theory of dynamics, since he strove to give the same kind of explanation for phenomena which Aristotle had to explain by different principles, depending upon their different cosmological contexts.
Judging from the fragmentary evidence, Philoponus' later theological treatises were characterized by a curious mixture of Christian doctrine and Aristotelian philosophy. On the eve of the fifth Council (Constantinople, 553) Philoponus stepped forward as a partisan of monophysite Christology which, in the course of the century, had become increasingly influential in the eastern part of the Roman empire. The monophysites, who were bent on emphasizing the divinity of Christ, were scandalized by the conjunction of Christological formulae enuntiated at the Council of Chalcedon in 451. There Christ was confessed to be (1) consubstantial (homooúsios) with the Father, (2) consubstantial with us humans, (3) one person and one hypóstasis (an important term widespread in Neoplatonism and roughly meaning ‘substantive existence’), but (4) discernible in two natures (en dúo phúsesin gnôrizómenon), a phrase which was directly influenced by the ‘unitatem personae in utraque natura intelligendam’ (‘a unity of person knowable in both natures’) endorsed by the Bishop of Rome and familiar to theologians of the Latin West. Although propositions 1, 2 and 3 were no longer controversial, proposition 4 could be read as an unholy concession to those who regarded Jesus as a human being merely distinguished by some kind of divine presence or inspiration (the view of the so-called ‘dyophysites’).
In Arbiter (Arbitrator or Umpire) of about the same time (surviving only in Syriac translation) Philoponus takes the view that the locution ‘discernible in two natures’ ought to be abandoned. His main strategy is to argue that in this context the meaning of the terms ‘nature’ and ‘hypóstasis’ is virtually identical, so that if Christ is (according to (3)) one hypóstasis he cannot also (as in (4)) be discernible in two natures. The argument goes roughly as follows: The term ‘nature’ has two applications, one general and one particular: we can speak of the nature of man in general or of the particular nature of this individual man. Now, when one speaks of the unification (and discernibility) of two natures in Christ, this cannot be meant to say that the universal natures of godhead and manhood have been unified in Christ (else it would be also true to say that not only the Logos, but also the Father and the Spirit have become man, since the universal nature of godhead applies to them as much as it does to the Logos). Instead, the reference must be to the particular nature of the divine Logos and the particular nature of Jesus the man: it must be with reference to these particular natures that godhead and manhood are combined in Christ. But this too cannot be right, Philoponus argues, since ‘particular nature’ means the same as ‘hypóstasis’, which he uses as a synonym also of ‘person’ and ‘individual being’. Since it is agreed that Christ is one person and one hypóstasis, he must consequently also be of one ‘particular’ nature only, not two. Philoponus concedes, of course, that the nature of Christ is not an ordinary one; it is complex, combining and preserving the properties of both what it is to be a god and what it is to be a man. Far from being able to discern two different natures in Christ, we should speak of one complex nature (mía phúsis súnthetos).
Besides monophysitism, Philoponus' name is associated with the doctrine of tritheism. However, one needs to be aware of an important difference: Whereas monophysitism was a reputable and powerful theological movement in the Eastern church, tritheism was little more than a hostile label given to certain intellectuals who tried to make the mystery of the Trinity intelligible in philosophical language. Philoponus was one such intellectual who, again, resorted to Aristotelian terminology to clarify and settle the trinitarian dispute. Already in the Arbiter it was clear that Philoponus tended to understand the crucial term ‘hypóstasis’ as meaning something like ‘primary substance’ in the sense of Aristotle's Categories, i.e. an individual organic being. The fragments of the very late treatise On the Trinity confirm this. Since hypóstasis is certainly not an accident of divinity, Philoponus argues, it must be the case that the three hypostáseis of the Trinity are three particular divine substances with distinct properties. Only on this assumption, too, is it reasonable to speak of the consubstantiality of the three Persons, for if there were only one divine substance, what sense would it make to speak of consubstantiality at all? When Basil and Gregory of Nyssa spoke of the Trinity as ‘one ousía, three hypostáseis,’ they were not, Philoponus continues, enunciating four primary substances, but used ‘substance’ (ousía) in the secondary, abstract sense of essence or universal nature. In accordance with Aristotle, Philoponus claims that universals exist only in the mind. Thus, the claim that there is only one God appears to be true of the unity constituted by the concept of divinity. In actual fact, there are three separate divinities, Father, Son, and Spirit. In order to fend off any reminiscences of pagan polytheism, Philoponus points out that unlike the individually differentiated gods of the pagans the three divinities of the Trinity are all of the same, single divine nature in the universal sense of ‘nature’. Though Philoponus had his followers, trinitarian philosophy of this kind could hardly be palatable to anyone not committed before all else to Aristotle's ontology. The so-called tritheists faced immediate and severe criticism, and Philoponus himself was condemned by the Council of Constantinople of 680-81.
Nowadays, Philoponus is often celebrated for having been one of the first thinkers to reconcile Aristotelian philosophy with Christianity. To some extent, this is true, but crucially, his contemporaries must have taken a different view. Pagan philosophers abhorred the way in which Philoponus used Christianity as a vantage point from which, in their opinion, he recklessly disturbed the harmony of the Greek philosophers, and Christian theologians could not but castigate his attempt to comprehend in Aristotelian terms what was for them essentially a spiritual mystery.
Despite arousing the disapproval of many of his contemporaries, both pagan and Christian, Philoponus' immediate influence may have been considerable among fellow-monophysites in Egypt. The anathema of 681, however, made the further proliferation of his theological ideas impossible. Likewise, his arch-enemy Simplicius, also a pupil of Ammonius, submitted the Grammarian's anti-eternalism almost immediately to thundering pro-Aristotelian criticism (in his commentaries on the De Caelo and the Physics, written sometime in the late 530s). It was that polemic which resounded through the ages; its shockwaves can still be felt in later thinkers like Thomas Aquinas (1224-1274) and Zabarella (1533-1589) who carefully examined, though in the end rejected, Philoponus' anti-eternalist arguments. Philoponus' work was studied extensively by the Arabs, who referred to him as Yahyâ an-Nahwî or Yahyâ al-‘Asqalânî, and Al-Kindi (ca. 800-870) in particular is heavily indebted to Philoponus for his own attack on eternalism. Later on in the West, the arguments against the eternity of the world also persuaded Bonaventure (1217-1274) and Gersonides (1288-1344), and impetus theory was reaffirmed by Buridan (1300-1361) and his pupil Oresme (1325-1382). In the sixteenth century, the first editions and numerous translations (into Latin) of Philoponus' commentaries and the treatise Against Proclus began to appear in print. Eventually, Philoponus' criticism of Aristotelian dynamics in the Physics commentary was widely discussed and persuaded such diverse thinkers as Gianfrancesco Pico della Mirandola (1469-1533) and, for different reasons, Galileo Galilei (1564-1642).
The greatest challenge for a student of this period of the history of philosophy is to understand how a phenomenon such as Philoponus could have happened. To be sure, elusive individual qualities of his mind and personality must have played an essential rôle, but it is equally true that philosophical, social, and religious parameters are likely to have supplied conditions which allowed him to carry forward his unprecedented and unparalleled act of emancipation from a widely accepted intellectual tradition. In the past, scholars have readily pointed towards the presumed fact that Philoponus was first raised as a Christian who later came into privileged contact with Greek rationalism; it is supposed that this constellation catalyzed his stance of critical opposition and rejection. However, this explanation is far from satisfactory. Many Christians from birth both before and after Philoponus were similarly exposed to pagan philosophy without reacting in a comparable way. Other scholars have suggested that Philoponus may have received orders from clerical superiors to write a refutation of Aristotelianism. Again others, especially with a view to the invention of the theory of impetus, have sought the roots of Philoponus' intellectual emancipation in broad socio-economic changes which occurred in late antiquity, in particular the emancipation of slaves. However this is eventually going to be explained, it seems certain that what essentially enabled Philoponus to operate both as a critic of Aristotelianism and as a constructive thinker in his own right was somehow tied up with new understanding of what one ought to do when one is reading and interpreting the philosophical texts of Plato or Aristotle. Whereas Neoplatonists, especially since Proclus (412-485), tended to approach these ancient texts as a fabric of venerable signs pointing per se and in an infallible way to a higher reality and to the truth, Philoponus read them (as we do today) as indicators of the thoughts and intentions of fallible authors. This more measured hermeneutic approach allowed Philoponus to point out problematic tensions and apparent contradictions in the Aristotelian corpus, or to highlight significant instances of disagreement between Plato and Aristotle; in contrast, the program of the Neoplatonic tradition he grew up in was to ignore the problems, or explain them away.
|c.510-15||On words with different meanings in virtue of a difference of accent (De vocabulis quae diversum significatum exhibent secundum differentiam accentus), ed. L.W. Daly, American Philosophical Society Memoirs 151, Philadelphia: American Philosophical Society, 1983.|
|c.510-15||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘On Generation and Corruption’, ed. H. Vitelli, Commentaria in Aristotelem Graeca (henceforward CAG) XIV 2, Berlin: Reimer, 1897. (A commentary based on Ammonius' seminars containing virtually no criticism of Aristotle.)|
|c.510-15||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘De Anima’ ed. M. Hayduck, CAG XV, Berlin: Reimer, 1897. (This work on Aristotle's On the Soul contains rather mature commentary; evidence suggests, however, that the work comes early in Philoponus' career, and it therefore seems reasonable to assume that the substance of the ideas expressed in it is by his teacher Ammonius. In addition, the authenticity of the commentary's third Book is disputed, because a Latin version attributed to Philoponus differs from the text transmitted in Greek: see Jean Philopon, Commentaire sur le de anima d'Aristote, traduction de Guillaume de Moerbeke, ed. G. Verbeke, Corpus Latinum Commentariorum in Aristotelem Graecorum III, Paris: Editions Béatrice-Nauwelaerts, 1966. Trans. W. Charlton, Philoponus, On Aristotle on the Intellect (de Anima 3.4-8), London: Duckworth, 1991.)|
|In Cat.||c.512-17||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘Categories’, ed. A. Busse, CAG XIII 1, Berlin: Reimer, 1898.|
|In An.Pr.||c.512-17||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘Prior Analytics’, ed. M. Wallies, CAG XIII 2, Berlin: Reimer, 1905. (The only complete extant ancient commentary on the Prior Analytics. It purports to be based on Ammonius' seminars.)|
|c.515-20||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘Posterior Analytics’, ed. M. Wallies, CAG XIII 3, Berlin: Reimer, 1909. (This commentary too professes to be based on Ammonius, but there are signs of a later revision.)|
|In Phys.||517||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘Physics’, ed. H. Vitelli, CAG XVI-XVII, Berlin: Reimer, 1887?88. (Philoponus' most important commentary, in which he challenges Aristotle's tenets on time, space, void, matter and dynamics; there are clear signs of revision.) Trans. A.R. Lacey, Philoponus, On Aristotle's Physics 2, London: Duckworth, 1993; M. Edwards, Philoponus, On Aristotle's Physics 3, London: Duckworth, 1994; P. Lettinck, Philoponus, On Aristotle's Physics 5 to 8, London: Duckworth 1993/4; D. Furley, Philoponus, Corollaries on Place and Void, London: Duckworth, 1991.|
|529||On the Eternity of the World against Proclus (De aeternitate mundi contra Proclum), ed. H. Rabe, Leipzig: B.G. Teubner, 1899; repr. Hildesheim: Olms, 1984. (A detailed criticism of Proclus' eighteen arguments in favour of the eternity of the world.)|
|c.530-34||On the Eternity of the World against Aristotle (De aeternitate mundi contra Aristotelem), not extant; fragments reconstr. and trans. C. Wildberg, Philoponus, Against Aristotle on the Eternity of the World, London: Duckworth, 1987. (A refutation of Aristotle's doctrines of the fifth element and the eternity of motion and time, consisting of at least eight books.)|
|In Meteor.||c.530-35||Commentary on Aristotle's ‘Meteorology’, ed. M. Hayduck, CAG XIV 1, Berlin: Reimer, 1901.|
|c.530-35||On the Contingency of the World (De contingentia mundi), not extant; Arabic summary of the treatise trans. S. Pines, ‘An Arabic summary of a lost work of John Philoponus’, Israel Oriental Studies 2 (1972): 320-52; similar excerpts in Simplicius, see D. Furley, C. Wildberg, Philoponus, Corollaries on Place and Void with Simplicius, Against Philoponus on the Eternity of the World, London: Duckworth, 1991, pp. 95-141.|
|c.520-40||On the Use and Construction of the Astrolabe, ed. H. Hase, Bonn: E. Weber, 1839 (or id. Rheinisches Museum für Philologie 6 (1839): 127-71); repr. and trans. into French A.P. Segonds, Jean Philopon, traité de l'astrolabe, Paris: Librairie Alain Brieux, 1981; trans. into English H.W. Green in R.T. Gunther, The Astrolabes of the World, Vol. 1/2, Oxford, 1932, repr. London: Holland Press, 1976, pp. 61-81. (The oldest extant Greek treatise on the astrolabe.)|
|c.530-40||Commentary on Nicomachus' Introduction to Arithmetic, ed. R. Hoche, Part I/II Wesel: A. Bagel, 1864/65, Part III Berlin: Calvary, 1867.|
|c.546-49||On the Creation of the World (De opificio mundi), ed. W. Reichardt, Leipzig: Teubner, 1897. (A theological-philosophical commentary on the Creation story in the book of Genesis. The date of composition originally proposed by the editor (546-49) appears to be more likely now than the frequently suggested 557-60.)|
|c.552||Arbiter (Diaitêtês), not extant in Greek; Syriac text with Latin trans. A. Sanda, Opuscula monophysitica Ioannis Philoponi, Beirut: Typographia Catholica PP.Soc.Jesu., 1930; extracts trans. into German W. Böhm, Johannes Philoponos, Grammatikos von Alexandrien, München, Paderborn, Wien: Schöningh, 1967, pp.414-29. (A philosophical justification of monophysitism.)|
|567||On the Trinity (De trinitate), not extant; Syriac fragments trans. into Latin A. Van Roey, ‘Les fragments trithéites de Jean Philopon', Orientalia Lovaniensia Periodica 11 (1980): 135-63. (The main source for a reconstruction of Philoponus' trinitarian doctrine.)|
For a more comprehensive list of all extant and lost works of Philoponus see Scholten 1996, pp. 429-35.
- Fladerer, L. (1999) Johannes Philoponos "De opificio mundi". Spätantikes Sprachdenken und christliche Exegese. Stuttgart, Leipzig: Teubner.
- Haas, F.A.J. de (1997) John Philoponus' New Definition of Prime Matter: Aspects of its Background in Neoplatonism and the Ancient Commentary Tradition. Leiden, New York: E.J. Brill.
- Hainthaler, T. (1990) "Johannes Philoponus, Philosoph und Theologe in Alexandria". In Jesus der Christus im Glauben der Kirche, Band 2/4: Die Kirche von Alexandrien mit Nubien und Äthiopien nach 451, ed. A. Grillmeier, Freiburg, Basel, Wien: Herder, pp. 109-49.
- Krafft, F. (1988) "Aristoteles aus christlicher Sicht. Umformungen aristotelischer Bewegungslehren durch Johannes Philoponos". In Zwischen Wahn, Glaube und Wissenschaft, ed. J.-F. Bergier, Zurich: Verlag der Fachvereine an den Schweizerischen Hochschulen und Techniken.
- Lee, T.-S. (1984) Die griechische Tradition der aristotelischen Syllogistik in der Spätantike, Göttingen: Vandenhoeck & Ruprecht.
- MacCoull, L.S.B. (1995) "Another Look at the Career of John Philoponus." Journal of Early Christian Studies 3.1: 269-79.
- Sambursky, S. (1962) The Physical World of Late Antiquity, London: Routledge and Kegan Paul, pp. 154-75.
- Scholten, C. (1996) Antike Naturphilosophie und christliche Kosmologie in der Schrift "De opificio mundi" des Johannes Philoponos. Berlin: De Gruyter.
- Sorabji, R.R.K. (1983) Time, Creation and the Continuum, London: Duckworth, pp. 193-231.
- Sorabji, R.R.K. (ed.) (1987) Philoponus and the Rejection of Aristotelian Science, London: Duckworth.
- Sorabji, R.R.K. (1988) Matter, Space, and Motion, London: Duckworth, pp. 227-48.
- Verbeke, G. (1985) "Levels of Human Thinking in Philoponus". In After Chalcedon: Studies in Theology and Church History, ed. C. Laga, J.A. Munitz, L. van Rompay, Leuven: Peeters, pp. 451-70.
- Verrycken, K. (1990) "The development of Philoponus' thought and its chronology". In Aristotle Transformed, ed. R.R.K. Sorabji, London: Duckworth, pp. 233-74.
- Verrycken, K. (1997) "Philoponus' Interpretation of Plato's Cosmogony." Documenti e Studi sulla Tradizione Filosofica Medievale 8: 269-318.
- Wildberg, C. (1988) John Philoponus' Criticism of Aristotle's Theory of Aether, Berlin: De Gruyter.
- Wildberg, C. (1999) "Impetus Theory and the Hermeneutics of Science in Simplicius and Philoponus". Hyperboreus 5, pp. 107-124.
- Wolff, M. (1971) Fallgesetz und Massebegriff. Zwei wissenschaftshistorische Untersuchungen zum Ursprung der klassischen Mechanik. Berlin: De Gruyter.
- Wolff, M. (1978) Geschichte der Impetustheorie. Untersuchungen zum Ursprung der klassischen Mechanik. Frankfurt/M.: Suhrkamp.
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