Supplement to The Literal-Nonliteral Distinction in Classical Indian Philosophy

Names and Dates of Cited Indian Philosophers

Organized chronologically within traditions with philosophical identification in parentheses and texts referred to within the entry. Note that absolute and comparative dating for many of these authors is controversial and this timeline is a rough guide only.


  • 6th to 3rd century BCE
    • Yāska: Nirukta (Semantic Explanation)
  • 4th century BCE
    • Pāṇini: Eight Chapters (Aṣṭādhyāyī)
    • Vājapyāyana
    • Vyāḍi
  • 3rd century BCE
    • Kātyāyana
  • 2nd century BCE
    • Patañjali: Great Commentary (Mahā-bhāṣya)
  • 5th century CE
    • Bhartṛhari: Treatise on Sentences and Words (Vākya-padīya)


  • 6th century BCE
    • Mahāvīra (Jaina)
    • Siddhartha Gautama (Buddhist)
  • 1st century CE
    • Kundakunda (Jaina)
  • 3rd century CE
    • Akṣapāda Gautama (Nyāya): Aphorisms on Logic (Nyāya-sūtra, abbr. NS)
  • 4th to 5th century CE
    • Śabara (Mīmāṃsā)
    • Vātsyāyana (Nyāya): Commentary on the Aphorisms on Logic (Nyāya-sūtra-bhāṣya, abbr. NySBh)
    • Vasubandhu (Buddhist): Commentary on the Treasury of Dharma (Abhidharma-kośa-bhāṣya)
  • 5th to 6th century CE
    • Diṅnāga (Buddhist)
  • 6th century CE
    • Dharmakīrti (Buddhist): Commentary on the Epistemic Instruments (Pramāṇa-vārttika)
    • Sthiramati (Buddhist): Commentary on the Thirty Verses (Triṃśikā-bhāṣya)
  • 7th century CE
    • Kumārila Bhaṭṭa (Mīmāṃsā): Exposition on Ritual Practice (Tantra-vārttika, abbr. TV)
    • Prabhākara (Mīmāṃsā)
    • Maṇḍana Miśra, (Mīmāṃsā): The Demonstration of Brahman (Brahma-siddhi)
  • 9th century CE
    • Śālikanātha Miśra (Mīmāṃsā): Monograph in Five Chapters (Prakaraṇa-pañcikā)
    • Jayanta Bhaṭṭa (Nyāya): Flower Garland of Logic (Nyāya-mañjarī)
  • 10th century CE
    • Vācaspati Miśra (Nyāya, Mīmāṃsā): Drop of Truth (Tattva-bindu) and Thorough Investigation of Truth (Tattva-samīkṣā)
  • 11th century CE
    • Ratnakīrti (Buddhist)
  • 13th century CE
    • Malliṣeṇa (Jaina): Flower Garland of Conditional Predication (Syād-vāda-mañjari)
    • Nāgārjuna (Buddhist): Refutation of Objections Vigraha-vyāvartaṇī


  • 6th to 7th century
    • Bhāmaha: Ornaments of Poetry (Kāvyâlaṅkāra)
  • 9th century CE
    • Ānandavardhana: Light on Suggestion (Dhvanyâloka)
    • Rudraṭa: Ornaments of Poetry (Kāvyâlaṅkāra)
  • 9th to 10th century CE
    • Mukula Bhatṭa: Fundamentals of the Communicative Function (Abhidhāvṛttamātṛkā)
  • 10th century CE
    • Abhinavagupta: The Eye (Locana Commentary on Dhvanyāloka)
    • Bhaṭṭa Nāyaka: Mirror of the Heart (Hṛdaya-darpana)
  • 11th century CE
    • Mahima Bhaṭṭa: Analysis of “Manifestation” (Vyakti-viveka)
  • 12th century CE
    • Mammaṭa: Illumination of Poetry (Kāvya-prakāśa)

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Malcolm Keating <>

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