#### Supplement to Truth Values

## Generalized Truth Values and Multilattices

It is possible to generalize the notion of a bilattice by
introducing the notion of a *multilattice*, which is suitable
for investigating sets of generalized truth values in the presence of
many partial orderings defined on these sets.

Definition 5. Ann-dimensional multilattice(or simplyn-lattice) is a structure M_{n}= ⟨S, ≤_{1},…, ≤_{n}⟩, whereSis a non-empty set and ≤_{1},…, ≤_{n}are partial orders defined onSsuch that (S, ≤_{1}),…, (S, ≤_{n}) are all distinct lattices.

In particular, if one applies the idea of a generalized truth value
function to Belnap's four truth values, then one obtains valuations
assigning the 16 generalized truth values from the
powerset P(**4**) = **16**
of **4**:

1. N= ∅9. FT= {{F}, {T}}2. = {∅}N10. FB= {{F}, {F,T}}3. = {{FF}}11. TB= {{T}, {F,T}}4. = {{TT}}12. NFT= {∅, {F}, {T}}5. = {{BF,T}}13. NFB= {∅, {F}, {F,T}}6. NF= {∅, {F}}14. NTB= {∅, {T}, {F,T}}7. NT= {∅, {T}}15. FTB= {{F}, {T}, {F,T}}8. NB= {∅, {F,T}}16. A= {∅, {T}, {F}, {F,T}}.

These values give rise to an algebraic structure
with *three* distinct partial orders: an information order
≤_{i} (viz. set-inclusion), a truth order
≤_{t} and a falsity order
≤_{f}. Whereas the truth order is defined in terms
of the presence and absence of the classical value *T* in
elements from **16**, the falsity order is defined in terms of the
presence and absence of *F* in **16**, see (Shramko and
Wansing 2005, Shramko and Wansing 2006). The resulting algebraic
structure is known as
the *trilattice* *SIXTEEN*_{3}, which is
presented by a triple Hasse diagram in Figure 4 (essentially the same
structure has been introduced in (Shramko, Dunn, Takenaka 2001) as a
truth value space of constructive truth values).

Figure 4: TrilatticeSIXTEEN_{3}

This set of values can serve as a natural semantic foundation for
the logic of a simple computer network. Indeed, one can observe that
Belnap's “computerized” interpretation works perfectly well only if we deal
with *one* (isolated) computer receiving information
from *classical sources*, i.e., these sources operate
exclusively with the classical truth values. As soon as a
computer *C* is connected to other computers, there is no
reason to assume that these computers cannot pass higher-level
information concerning a given proposition to *C*. If several
computers form a computer network, Belnap's ideas that
motivated **B**_{4} can be generalized. Consider, for
example, four
computers: *C*_{1}, *C*_{2}, *C*_{3},
and *C*_{4} connected to another
computer *C*_{1}′, a server, to which they are
supposed to supply information (Figure 5).

Figure 5: A computer network

It turns out that the logic of the server itself (so, the network
as a whole) cannot remain four-valued any more. Indeed,
suppose *C*_{1} informs *C*_{1}′ that a
sentence is true only (has the value **T**),
whereas *C*_{2} supplies inconsistent information (the
sentence is both true and false, i.e., has the value **B**). In
this situation *C*_{1}′ has received the information
that the sentence simultaneously is true *only* (i.e.,
true *and not false*) as well as both true *and false*,
in other words, it has a value not from **4**, but
from P(**4**), namely the
value **TB** = {{*T*}, {*T*, *B*}}. Note, that
this new value cannot simply be reduced to Belnap's value **B**, at
least not without some “forced argument” and a serious
information loss, see detailed explanations in (Shramko and Wansing
2005, 124). Thus, if *C*_{1}′ has been informed
simultaneously by *C*_{1} that a sentence is true-only,
by *C*_{2} that it is false-only,
by *C*_{3} that it is both-true-and-false, and
by *C*_{4} that it is neither-true-nor-false, then the
value **NFTB** = {∅, {*T*}, {*F*},
{*T*, *F*}} is far from being a “madness”
(cf. (Meyer 1978, 19)) but is just an adequate value which should be
ascribed to the sentence by *C*_{1}′. That is, the
logic of *C*_{1}′ has to be 16-valued.

It is worth noticing that whereas in the
bilattice *FOUR*_{2} the logical order is not merely
a *truth* order, but rather a *truth-and-falsity* order
(an increase in truth means here a simultaneous decrease in falsity),
the trilattice *SIXTEEN*_{3} makes it possible to
discriminate between a truth order and a (non-)falsity order, as it is
shown in Figure 4. This means that in *SIXTEEN*_{3}, in
addition to the information order (namely the subset relation), we
have actually *two* distinct logical orders: one for truth,
≤_{t}, and one for falsity,
≤_{f}. Both of these logical orderings determine
their own algebraic operations of meet, joint and inversion, and thus
two distinct, although strictly “parallel”, sets of
logical connectives (for conjunctions, disjunctions and
negations). Moreover, both of these orderings also determine their own
logic, one in a truth vocabulary (where entailment and logical
connectives are defined with respect to ≤_{t}),
and another in a falsity vocabulary (where entailment and connectives
are defined with respect to ≤_{f}). It turns out
that for both languages one obtains first-degree entailment as the
logic of *SIXTEEN*_{3} (see Shramko and Wansing
2005). In (Shramko and Wansing 2006) this observation has been
generalized to trilattices of any degree. That is, if the above
network is extended so that the computer *C*_{1}′
may pass information to another computer
(*C*_{1}″), then the amount of semantical values
will increase to 2^{16} = 65536, and so on. Nevertheless, this
exponential growth of the number of truth values turns out to be
unproblematic, because the logic of the generalized so-called Belnap
trilattices in the truth vocabulary as well as in the falsity
vocabulary always is first-degree entailment.

Yaroslav Shramko <

*yshramko@ukrpost.ua*>

Heinrich Wansing <

*Heinrich.Wansing@rub.de*>