#### Supplement to Prisoner's Dilemma

## Haystack PDs Become Stag Hunts

**Claim**: For any PD game *g*, there is some
natural number *n* such, that for all *m*>*n*,
the *m*-generation haystack version of *g* is a stag
hunt.

**Proof sketch**: Let the temptation, reward, punishment
and sucker payoffs of the underlying PD be *T*, *R*,
*P* and *S* and let *V*_{n} be
the payoff function of its *n*-generation haystack version. It
is sufficient to show that there is some n, such that for all m>n,

*V*_{m}(**C**,**C**) >*V*_{m}(**D**,**D**)*V*_{m}(**C**,**C**) >*V*_{m}(**D**,**C**)*V*_{m}(**D**,**D**) >*V*_{m}(**C**,**D**)

First, observe that in any “mixed” population, i.e, any
population containing at least one defector and at least one
cooperator, the ratio of defectors to cooperators increases
exponentially. (In particular if the ratio in one generation is
*r*, the ratio in the next generation will be at least
*k**r*, where *k* is the minimum of
*T*/*R* (which it would be if, in the earlier
generation, there was one defector and many cooperators) and
*P*/*S* (which it would be if there was one cooperator
and many defectors).

A haystack founded by two cooperators will have 2*R*
cooperators in the second generation, 2*R*^{2} in the
third, 2*R*^{3} in the 4th and so on. Similarly,
haystack founded by two defectors will have 2*P* defectors in
the second generation 2*P*^{2} in the third,
2*P*^{3} in the fourth, and so on. Since *R* >
*P*, 1 holds for every value of *m*. To establish 2,
note that (after the second generation) the haystack founded by a pair
of cooperators increases in population by a factor of *R* in
every generation (and every member remains a cooperator). By our
initial observation, the haystack founded by a mixed pair approaches a
homogeneous population of defectors, and so the factor by which its
population increases approaches *P*. Eventually, then,
*V*_{m}(**C**,**C**)
will exceed
*V*_{m}(**D**,**C**). On
the other hand, since the ratio of cooperators in mixed populations
goes to zero in the limit,
*V*_{m}(**C**,**D**)
approaches zero, and so 3 is also true.