Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy

Notes to Greek Sources in Arabic and Islamic Philosophy

1. Cognate words are faylasuf and its plural falasifa. Sa‘id al-Andalusi (d. 1070) gives the following account: “The language of the Greeks (Yunaniyun) is called Greek (ighriqiya). It is one of the richest and most important languages in the world. As to religion, the Greeks are Sabians, that is, worshippers of the stars and idolaters. Their scholars used to be called philosophers (falasifa). Philosopher (faylasuf) means in Greek ‘friend of wisdom’. The Greek philosophers belong to the highest class of human beings and to the greatest scholars, since they showed a genuine interest in all branches of wisdom, mathematics, logic, natural science and metaphyiscs, as well as economics and politics”: transl. Rosenthal (1975), 39.

2. So Nasr (1996 a), and (1996 b), protesting against those who conceive of Islamic philosophy as “simply an extension of Greek philosophy” (31) and coming to the conclusion that “Islamic philosophy is Islamic not only by virtue of the fact that it was cultivated in the Islamic world by Muslims but because it derives its principles, inspiration and many of the questions with which it has been concerned from the sources of Islamic revelation” (27). According to Nasr, it is “essentially a philosophical hermeneutics of the Sacred Text while making use of the rich philosophical heritage of antiquity” (37). The standard work on the notions of science (‘ilm) and wisdom (hikma) in Islam is Rosenthal (1970).

3. This position is best exemplified by Walzer (1950) and (1970), 23: “Sa naissance a été le résultat de circonstances historiques très spéciales, à savoir la conquête musulmane des provinces intellectuellement plus avancées de l’Empire romain d’Orient d’une part, la situation politique et religieuse au premier siècle du califat abbasside d’autre part. Elle est, de ce fait, l’importation d’une tradition étrangère et elle a dû lutter pour être reconnue et intégrée. […] Cependant, la philosophie grecque n’a pas été imposée aux musulmans, et les traductions furent entreprises parce que les musulmans avaient spontanément décidé d’intégrer à la littérature arabe cet héritage étranger”. See also Rosenthal (1975).

4. This approach is often preferred in the scholarship: see Badawi (1968); an extremely useful monograph by Peters (1968), deals specifically with the translations of Aristotle, and the outstanding Dictionnaire des Philosophes Antiques directed by R. Goulet (CNRS, Paris) deals systematically with the Arabic tradition of the writings of the philosophers listed, often providing an up-to-date account of the new findings.

5. See Endress (2004), 227-28, describing Averroes' exhaltation of Aristotle within the context of the project “to vindicate the work of philosophy (…) as a rule of reason governing all of society. Relying on Aristotle to carry his point through all of the rational sciences, this meant to expound the truth on the basis of all the works of Aristotle which had been transmitted”.

6. Together with the grammatical tradition: e.g., the Τέχνη γραμματική by Dionysius Thrax was translated into Syriac within AD 580. See Contini (2001).

7. On the Aristotelian logical tradition see Baumstark (1900) and (1905), Furlani (1916); (1922); (1921-22); (1922 a); (1922 b); (1923 a); (1923 b); (1928); (1933); and Georr (1948), to be corrected in the light of Brock (1993) and Hugonnard-Roche (2004), 60-62. In addition to Aristotle's logical corpus and to Porphyry's Isagoge, also other works by Porphyry have been translated into Syriac: at least a part of the Philosophical History, and according to Altheim and Stiehl (1962) also parts of the writing Against the Christians. There are Syriac translations also of a Pythagorean collection of sayings ascribed to Pythagoras' wife Theano (see Possekel [1998]) as well as of the so-called ‘Sayings’ of the pseudo-Menander (see Bettiolo [2003]); other translations of moral writings include some Plutarch and Themistius: see Brock (2003).

8. On the Syriac and Arabic tradition of the De Mundo see the survey by Raven (2003).

9. Endress (2002), 43, referring also to previous literature.

10. Up-to-date survey of Sergius' translations and personal works in Hugonnard-Roche (2004), 125-32.

11. On the mathematical and astronomical translations and scientific works in Syriac see Hugonnard-Roche (2001), 36-41.

12. According to Gutas (2006), 97 “These letters (…) derive primarily from Byzantine manuals of administration and warfare (the Tactica) with accretions from Greek material from the classical and Hellenistic periods, and from so-called Hermetic material deriving from sundry sources”.

13. Ryan and Schmitt (1982). For an up-to-date status quaestionis see Zonta (2003), 648-51.

14. According to the 12th century historian Sa‘id al-Andalusi, Ibn al-Muqaffa‘ was the first to deal with logic: see Kraus (1934).

15. K. al-Fihrist, 248.27 Flügel = 309.9 Tajaddud and 249.4 Flügel = 309.14 Tajaddud. This work is extant and edited: Danish Pazuh (1978).

16. Danish Pazuh (1978), cf. Elamrani Jamal (1989), 510.

17. Brock (1999); this translation might be hinted at in the K. al-Fihrist (249.18 Flügel = 309.28 Tajaddud); see Elamrani Jamal (1989), 525 and Gutas (1998), 61.

18. See below, note 63.

19. K. al-Fihrist, 244.5-6 Flügel = 304.27 Tajaddud (where however Sallam and al-Abrash appear as two people).

20. Gutas (1998), 78-79 outlines his education, which was “imbued with the Zoroastrian Sasanian imperial ideology first applied to the Islamic empire by al-Mansur”, his “reliance on astrology and hence his deep study of the ancient books”, both leading him to view “the ‘Abbasid dynasty as the inheritors of the past empires in the area”. Gutas points also to his way of understanding the leadership, after his return to Baghdad and the conquest of the power, to the cost of the murder of the caliph (and his brother) al-Amin: “al-Ma’mun's new policy was based on an absolutist interpretation of Islam, with the Caliph as the ultimate arbiter of dogma”. See also Cooperson (2005).

21. On this development, see the all-embracing analysis by Endress (1987) and (1992), summarized as follows in Endress (1997 a), 44-45: “An element of personal competition and resulting animosity between the intellectual circles of rationalist theologians (…), of traditionists (…) and of the rising community of scientists—the vanguard of intellectual innovation—was the obvious result of the official and semi-official encouragement of the Hellenistic movement. The leaders of the administration furthered and financed translations of scientific (mainly astronomical and mathematical) and medical works on a large scale. Foremost was the ‘Abbasid caliph: the court library founded by Harun al-Rashid was expanded by his son al-Ma’mun and devoted exclusively to the rational sciences with a continuing predominance of astronomy: the Bayt al-hikma. (…) The medium of most of this activity was Arabic: a language in the course of being standardized by normative grammar, and being instrumentalized as the code of communication in a centralized theocratic state”.

22. See the preceding note.

23. See Balty-Guesdon (1992), Micheau (1997) and the discussion by Gutas (1998), 58-60.

24. See now the monograph on him by Adamson (2006).

25. Ed. by Abu Rida (1950) and Rashed-Jolivet (1999); English transl. Ivry (1974).

26. K. al-Fihrist, 251.27-28 Flügel = 312.14 Tajaddud.

27. The K. al-Fihrist, 246.15-16 Flügel = 306.29-307.1 Tajaddud, claims that the Timaeus had been translated by Ibn al-Bitriq (“the son of the Patrikios”, a Byzantine title: see Endress [1997 a], 55), one of the translators whose works bear the typical features of the “circle of al-Kindi”. See on him Dunlop (1959).

28. Either the dialogue itself or a doxographical report concerning the speeches about love lies in the background of Kindi's own Epistle The Agreement of the Philosophers regarding the signs of passionate love, which is lost to us, but is quoted by the XIth century physician Ibn Bakhtishu: see Klein-Franke (1973) and Gutas (1988).

29. The Myth of Er of Republic X, 614 A - 621 D is known to al-Kindi. Various explanations have been advanced for this: see Furlani (1922 c), Walzer (1937), Genequand (1987-88) and Endress (1994).

30. It has been copied in the margins of a manuscript housed in Leiden, which is at one and the same time also the only testimony of Averroes' Great Commentary on the Metaphysics and of the other versions of the Arabic translations of the Metaphysics. This unique document is available in the outstanding edition by Bouyges (1938-48). For a survey on the translations of Aristotle's Metaphysics see Martin (1989) and Martini Bonadeo (2003), with reference to previous literature.

31. Eustathius, in all likelihood of Byzantine origin; he is also credited with the translation of Olympiodorus' commentary on the De Gen. corr., see below, note 47.

32. Translated by Ibn al-Bitriq: see Endress (1997 a), 58.

33. The translation of the Soph. El. into Syriac was made by ‘Abd al-Masih ibn Na‘ima al-Himsi: K. al-Fihrist 249.26-28 Flügel = 310.9-10 Tajaddud, mentioning also the subsequent translation into Arabic by Ibn Bakus al-‘Ushari; however, the MS of the so-called “Organon of Bagdad” explicitly attributes one of the three Arabic translations of the Soph. El. to ibn Na‘ima: see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 526-8.

34. As mentioned in the K. al-Fihrist, 250.28 Flügel = 311.12 Tajaddud, the De Caelo has been translated by Ibn al-Bitriq. The translation is extant and edited: Badawi (1961); however, the text as it has come down to us is not Ibn al-Bitriq's translation itself, but a revision of it: see Endress (1966) and (1995 a), 47-8; Hugonnard-Roche (2003 a).

35. Ibn al-Bitriq translated also the Meteorologica. This translation is extant and edited: Schoonheim (2000); see also Schoonheim (2003).

36. The Arabic translation of De Gen. an. (mentioned under the general heading of K. al-Hayawan) is attributed to Ibn al-Bitriq in the K. al-Fihrist, 251.26 Flügel = 312.8 Tajaddud; the translation is extant and edited: Brugman - Drossaart Lulofs (1971); see Kruk (2003), 329, who challenges Ibn al-Bitriq's authorship. The translation of the De Part. an. also is attributed to Ibn al-Bitriq under the same heading (K. al-Fihrist, see above in this note); the translation is extant: Kruk (1979); see also Kruk (2003).

37. Daiber (1997), 36-41 and R. E. Hansberger, The Transmission of Aristotle's Parva Naturalia in Arabic (forthcoming).

38. Editio princeps: Dieterici (1882); another edition has been provided by Badawi (1966).

39. See the entry on the Theology of Aristotle for further details; surveys and bibliography in Aouad (1989 b), Adamson (2003) and D’Ancona (2003).

40. Editio princeps: Bardenhewer (1888); another edition has been provided by Badawi (1955); for the status quaestionis see D’Ancona-Taylor (2003).

41. K. al-Fihrist, 251.4 Flügel = 311.18 Tajaddud; this translation is not extant; for the extant fragments of the later translation by Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus see below, note 111.

42. Daiber (1980), 4. On the life and works of Qusta ibn Luqa see Gabrieli (1912).

43. The translator was the Christian ‘Abd al-Masih ibn Na‘ima al-Himsi, who translated also the Soph. El. (see above, note 33) and partly the commentary on the Physics by John Philoponus (see below, note 45).

44. See above, note 39.

45. K. al-Fihrist, 250.18 Flügel = 311.1 Tajaddud; see Endress (1977), 36-37; Lettinck (1994), 5-6 and Giannakis (2002-3); see also, Hasnaoui (1994) and Giannakis (2002-3).

46. On the influence of Philoponus' arguments against eternalism see Davidson (1987).

47. K. al-Fihrist, 251.5 Flügel = 311.18 Tajaddud; see Rashed (2003), 312.

48. Translated by Qusta ibn Luqa. See Daiber (1980); see also Daiber (1994) and Gutas (1994).

49. Rudolph (1989). On the doxographical and gnomological literature see Rosenthal (1937) and (1941); Gutas (1975) and (1981); Daiber (1994).

50. Bergsträsser (1925) and (1932). Up-to-date account of Galen's works in the Arabic-speaking world by Boudon (2000), 458-60.

51. K. al-Fihrist, 246.15-16 Flügel = 306.29-307.1 Tajaddud. On the knowledge of Plato in the Arabic-speaking world see Rosenthal (1940), Walzer (1960) and Klein-Franke (1973).

52. K. al-Fihrist, 246.5-6 Flügel = 306.20 Tajaddud.

53. K. al-Fihrist, 246.5 Flügel = 306.20 Tajaddud.

54. K. al-Fihrist, 246.11-12 Flügel = 306.25-26 Tajaddud.

55. K. al-Fihrist, 248.20 Flügel = 309.4 Tajaddud. However, the MS which contains the translation attributes it to Ishaq; see Hugonnard-Roche (1993). The translation is extant and edited: Badawi (1980); see Elamrani-Jamal (1989), 510-12.

56. K. al-Fihrist, 249.1 Flügel = 309.12 Tajaddud. The translation is extant and edited: Badawi (1980); see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 513-15.

57. K. al-Fihrist, 249.6 Flügel = 309.17 Tajaddud; this Tayadurus has been identified with Tadhari ibn Basil Akhi Istifan, a translator of the circle of Hunayn: see Lameer (1994), 4. The Arabic translation is extant: Badawi (1980); see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 516-20.

58. K. al-Fihrist, 249.11-12 Flügel = 309.23 Tajaddud; see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 520-1 and Elamrani-Jamal (1989), 521-4. This translation, lost to us, provided the basis for the Arabic version by Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus (see below, note 94).

59. K. al-Fihrist, 249.15 Flügel = 309.27 Tajaddud; a translation into Arabic of the Syriac version was made by Yahya ibn ‘Adi (see below, note 102).

60. On this physician and translator see Endress (1995 b).

61. K. al-Fihrist, 249.16 Flügel = 309.27-28 Tajaddud. The translation is extant: Badawi (1980); see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 524 and Elamrani Jamal (1989), 525.

62. K. al-Fihrist, 250.1 Flügel = 310.13 Tajaddud; a translation by Ibrahim ibn ‘Abd Allah is also recorded (250.2 Flügel = 310.13 Tajaddud).

63. Lyons (1982); see Aouad (1989 c), 455-9 and Watt-Aouad (2003), 219-23; see also above, note 18 and below, note 105.

64. As witnessed in the MS Leiden, Bibl. der Rijksuniversiteit, or. 583, which contains the translation (edited: Badawi [1984]); a translation, perhaps only of books IV-V, is attributed to Abu ‘Uthman al-Dimashqi in the K. al-Fihrist, 250.14 Flügel = 310.25 Tajaddud. See Lettinck (1994), 3-6 and (2002); Giannakis (2003).

65. K. al-Fihrist, 250.28-29 Flügel = 311.12 Tajaddud); see Hugonnard-Roche (2003), 284-86.

66. K. al-Fihrist, 251.3 Flügel = 311.17 Tajaddud.

67. There are hints that it was Ishaq's translation which was translated into Latin by Gerard of Cremona in the century: see Serra (1973) and (1997); Rashed (2003), 304-5.

68. K. al-Fihrist, 251.11-18 Flügel = 311.24-312.3 Tajaddud). An Arabic translation of the De Anima is edited: Badawi (1954) and Al-Ahwani (1962); see Ivry (2001) and Elamrani Jamal (2003), 346-58.

69. K. al-Fihrist, 251.26 Flügel = 312.12 Tajaddud. Books Alpha Meizon, Gamma, Theta and Iota of this translation have come down to us thanks to Averroes' Great Commentary; for this translation and the other translations of separate books of the Metaphysics (especially Lambda), see Martin (1989), 531-32 and Martini Bonadeo (2003), 262.

70. K. al-Fihrist, 252.2 Flügel = 312.19 Tajaddud; the translation is edited: Badawi (1978); see Zonta (2003), 192-3.

71. Partly available to us through an ethical treatise by Miskawayh (d. 1030): see Cacouros (2003), 511-13 and 537-42.

72. K. al-Fihrist, 252.5-11 Flügel = 312.21-26 Tajaddud. On the Arabic tradition of Theophrastus' works see Gutas (1992).

73. Drossaart-Lulofs (1965). See below, note 109, for the testimony about the Arabic version from this Syriac translation.

74. Kraus-Walzer (1951); on the authorship of the translation, which is attributed to Hunayn ibn Ishaq in the manuscript sources, see ibid., 18-21.

75. K. al-Fihrist, 251.28 Flügel = 312.14-15 Tajaddud (it is not clear if this information refers to Book Lambda itself or to Alexander's commentary on it); this version is lost to us.

76. The Arabic version is lost, but the Hebrew version, which has come down to us, mentions Ishaq ibn Hunayn as the translator into Arabic. See Gätje (1971), 69-70.

77. Edited by Genequand (2001); see above, note 9.

78. Or to Ibrahim ibn ‘Abdallah al-Nasrani al-Katib (see Genequand 2001, 31-39), mentioned in the sources as one of the translators of the Topics.

79. The translation is extant: Badawi (1980).

80. K. al-Fihrist, 252.15 Flügel = 313.23 Tajaddud.

81. K. al-Fihrist, 248.20 Flügel = 309.4 Tajaddud.

82. On this scholar (a pupil of Yahya ibn ‘Adi: see below, notes 109, 110) as well as on his “edition”, see Hugonnard-Roche (1993).

83. K. al-Fihrist, 250.21-22 Flügel = 311.6-7 Tajaddud.

84. K. al-Fihrist, 252.2 Flügel = 312.18 Tajaddud; see Zonta (2003), 192-94.

85. Edited by Daiber (1995). On the span of time of the translation see Daiber (1995), 15.

86. K. al-Fihrist, 251.12 Flügel = 311.25 Tajaddud.

87. Incomplete (only nine arguments), but containing the first argument, which is lost in Greek: see Anawati (1956) and Endress (1973), 15-16. This translation is extant and edited: Badawi (1955), 32-42.

88. Lost in Greek, albeit doxographically preserved by Simplicius: see Wildberg (1987).

89. It seems to be unknown to al-Kindi, whereas al-Farabi (d. 950) has written a treatise against it: see Kraemer (1965); Mahdi (1967) and (1972). Another writing by Philoponus on the createdness of the universe is extant in Arabic: see Pines (1972) and Troupeau (1984).

90. According to Badawi (1971), 13.

91. On the cosmopolitan atmosphere of the circle animated by Yahya ibn ‘Adi and his successor Abu Sulayman al-Sijistani see Kraemer (1992), outlining as follows the membership and main features of this group: “The chief architects of this philosophic humanism in our period were the Christian philosophers Yahya b. ‘Adi and his immediate disciples. They divide into two groups. The first—Ibn ‘Adi's Christian pupils—continued the (predominantly Christian) tradition of meticulous textual editing, translating and commenting, which goes back to Hunayn b. Ishaq and his school (…). The second group of disciples were Muslim scholars (…) in the circles of Yahya b. ‘Adi and of his pupil Abu Sulayman al-Sijistani, and in the general ambiance of the time, Muslims, Christians, Jews, Sabians, and Mazdaeans communed in the study of the ancients—united by what Werner Jaeger once called ‘the ecumenical power of antiquity’.” (Kraemer [1992], 6-7).

92. The ancient sources record an argument he had in the year 938, about the possibility to translate the Greek sources into Arabic, with the grammarian Abu Sa‘id al-Sirafi: the latter was arguing against the reasonableness of such an enterprise, and did not refrain from remarking that Matta, in addition, was translating from Syriac instead of from Greek. See Endress (1986).

93. K. al-Fihrist, 246.5 Flügel = 306.20 Tajaddud.

94. K. al-Fihrist, 249.12 Flügel = 309.23 Tajaddud; see Elamrani Jamal (1989), 522.

95. K. al-Fihrist, 250.4 Flügel = 310.16 Tajaddud. The translation is extant: Tkatsch (1928-32); see Schrier (1997) and Hugonnard-Roche (2003 c), 208-10.

96. K. al-Fihrist, 249.21 Flügel = 312.9 Tajaddud; see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 527.

97. K. al-Fihrist, 250.29 Flügel = 311.12 Tajaddud; see Hugonnard-Roche (2003 a), 284.

98. K. al-Fihrist, 251.4 Flügel = 311.18 Tajaddud; see Rashed (2003), 305.

99. K. al-Fihrist, 251.20 Flügel = 312.2 Tajaddud; see Hasnaoui (1996) and Di Martino (2003), 375-78.

100. K. al-Fihrist, 251.28 Flügel = 312.14-15 Tajaddud: see above, note 75, for the (lost) translation into Syriac attributed to Hunayn ibn Ishaq; the Arabic translation is lost too, but some quotations appear in Averroes' Great Commentary, as mentioned in the main text by note 75; for further details see Martin (1989), 532 and Martini Bonadeo (2003), 263.

101. On Yahya ibn ‘Adi's biography and work see Endress (1977) and Platti (1983); for an overview of his translations, see also Kraemer (1992), 108-10.

102. K. al-Fihrist, 251.15-16 Flügel = 309.27 Tajaddud; see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 524 and Elamrani Jamal (1989), 225.

103. K. al-Fihrist, 249.27 Flügel = 310.9 Tajaddud); see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 527.

104. K. al-Fihrist, 250.4-5 Flügel = 310.16 Tajaddud; see Hugonnard-Roche (2003 c), 211.

105. Lyons (1982), xxiii-xxiv; see Aouad (1989 c), 457. On the influence of the Rhetoric on Arabic philosophical thought see Black (1990).

106. On this physician, theologian and commentator of Aristotle's corpus see Ferrari (2006).

107. K. al-Fihrist, 252.11 Flügel = 312.26 Tajaddud.

108. See above, note 73.

109. K. al-Fihrist, 264.26 Flügel = 323.7-8 Tajaddud: see Drossaart Lulofs (1965), 10 and 39. The Arabic translation survives only in the fragments quoted by Averroes' in his Great Commentary on the Metaphysics: see Freudenthal (1885), 126-27.

110. K. al-Fihrist, 254.1-4 Flügel = 314.9-12 Tajaddud: see Drossaart Lulofs (1965), 13 and 39.

111. K. al-Fihrist, 251.4 Flügel = 311.18 Tajaddud. See the English translation of the remnants of the Arabic version by Gannagé (2005); cf. also Fazzo (2003), 63 and Rashed (2003), 312-14.

112. Mentioned in the K. al-Fihrist, 251.9 Flügel = 311.22 Tajaddud; see Endress (1977), 25-26.

113. The translation by Abu Bishr Matta was corrected by Yahya ibn ‘Adi: see Goulet-Aouad (1989), 130 and Hugonnard-Roche (2003), 287.

114. Translated into French by Thillet (2003).

115. K. al-Fihrist, 250.22-23 Flügel = 311.7 Tajaddud.

116. Lettinck (1994), 4: “The Leiden MS which contains Ishaq's translation is the outcome of the study of the Physics in the Baghdad school of Yahya ibn ‘Adi (d. 973) and his pupil Abu ‘Ali ibn as-Samh (d. 1027). Besides the Arabic text of the Physics it contains commentaries by Ibn as-Samh, Yahya ibn ‘Adi, Yahya's teacher Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus (d. 940), and Abu l-Faraj ibn at-Tayyib (d. 1044). In addition a few comments of Alexander and Themistius are quoted, as well as some phrases from the translations of Qusta and ad-Dimashqi. Many comments in Books III-VII are preceded by the name ‘Yahya’; they appear to be a summary or paraphrase of Philoponus' commentary. (…) The editor of the text in the Leiden MS was Abu l-Husayn al-Basri (d. 1044), a pupil of Ibn as-Samh”. See also Giannakis (1993) and (1995-96).

117. This paraphrasis is mentioned in the K. al-Fihrist, 250.30 Flügel = 311.13 Tajaddud: it has been translated by Abu Bishr Matta and corrected by Yahya ibn ‘Adi. The Arabic is lost; however a Hebrew translation of the lost Arabic version is extant and edited: Landauer (1902); see Hugonnard-Roche (2003 a), 287. Arabic version was made also of Themistius' paraphrasis of the An. Post.: it is lost, but its Latin translation is extant: see Hugonnard-Roche (1989), 52.

118. K. al-Fihrist, 251.29-30 Flügel = 312.15-16 Tajaddud. The text is extant and translated into French: see Brague (1999). On its importance in shaping the subsequent interpretations of Aristotle's philosophical theology see Pines (1987).

119. K. al-Fihrist, 248.21 Flügel = 309.5 Tajaddud; see Zimmermann (1981), cii n. 1.

120. K. al-Fihrist, 251.8 Flügel = 311.22 Tajaddud. The commentary was translated by Abu Bishr Matta and annotated by Abu ‘Amr al-Tabari: see Hasnaoui (1996), 41-2. It is lost to us; for an epitome of the Meteorologica attributed to Olympiodorus see above, note 90 and Badawi (1971), 95-190.

121. K. al-Fihrist, 251.5 Flügel = 311.18 Tajaddud: see Rashed (2003), 312.

122. K. al-Fihrist, 251.13-14 Flügel = 311.26 Tajaddud: see Elamrani Jamal (2003), 354.

123. K. al-Fihrist, 248.21 Flügel = 309.4 Tajaddud.

124. See above, note 49.