#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of Lemma Concerning Zero

Let *P* be an arbitrarily chosen concept. We want to show
#*P* = 0 ≡ ¬∃*xPx*.

(→) Assume #P = 0. Then, by definition of 0, #P =
#[λ*z* *z*≠*z*]. So by Hume's
Principle, *P* is equinumerous to
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*]. So, by the definition
of equinumerosity, there is an *R* that maps every object
falling under *P* to a unique object falling under
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*] and vice versa.
Suppose, for reductio, that ∃*xPx*, say *Pa*.
Then there is an object, say *b*, such that *Rab* and
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*]*b*. But, then,
by λ-Conversion, *b* is not self-identical, which contradicts
the laws of identity.

(←) Suppose ¬∃*xPx*. Now as we have seen,
the laws of identity guarantee that no object falls under the concept
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*]. But then any relation
you please bears witness to the fact that *P* is equinumerous
with [λ*z* *z*≠*z*]. For
let *R* be some arbitrary relation. Then (a) every object
falling under *P* bears *R* to a unique object falling
under [λ*z* *z*≠*z*] (since there are
no objects falling under *P*), and (b) every object falling
under [λ*z* *z*≠*z*] is such that there
is a unique object falling under *P* that bears *R* to
it (since there are no objects exemplifying
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*]). Since *P* is
therefore equinumerous with
[λ*z* *z*≠*z*], it follows by Hume's
Principle, that #[λ*z* *z*≠*z*] =
#*P*. But, then, by definition, 0 = #*P*.