#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof that 0 Falls Under *Q*

The proof that 0 falls under *Q* is relatively straightforward.
We want to show:

[λyPrecedes(y,#[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,y)])]0

By λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:

Precedes(0, #[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)])

So, by the definition of Predecessor, we have to show that there is a
concept *F* and object *x* such that:

*Fx*- #[λ
*z**Precedes*^{+}(*z*,0)] = #*F* - 0 = #[λ
*u**Fu*&*u*≠*x*]

We can demonstrate that there is an *F* and *x* for which
(1), (2) and (3) hold if we pick *F* to be [λ*z*
*Precedes*^{+}(*z*,0)] and pick *x* to be
0. We now establish (1), (2), and (3) for these choices.

To show that (1) holds, we have to show:

[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)]0

But we know, from the definition of *Precedes*^{+}, that
*Precedes*^{+}(0,0), So by abstraction using
λ-Conversion, we are done.

To show that (2) holds, we need do no work, since our choice of
*F* requires us to show:

#[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)] = #[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)],

which we know by the logic of identity.

To show (3) holds, we need to show:

(A) 0 = #[λuPrecedes^{+}(u,0) &u≠0]

[Note that the λ-expression in (A) has been simplified by
applying λ-Conversion to the following (which, strictly
speaking, is what results when you substitute our choice for *F*
in (3)):

[λu[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)]u&u≠0]

In what follows, we use the simplified version of this λ-expression.]

To show (A), it suffices to show the following, in virtue of the
Lemma Concerning Zero (in our subsection on The Concept *Natural
Number* in §4):

¬∃x([λuPrecedes^{+}(u,0) &u≠0]x)

And by λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:

(B) ¬∃x(Precedes^{+}(x,0) &x≠0)

We establish (B) as follows.

When we established Theorem 2 (i.e., the fact that 0 is not the successor of any number), we proved that nothing precedes 0:

¬∃xPrecedes(x,0)

From this, and Fact (4) about *R** (in the subsection on the
Ancestral of *R*, in §4), it follows that nothing
ancestrally precedes 0:

¬∃xPrecedes*(x,0)

Now suppose (for *reductio*) the negation of (B); i.e, that
there is some object, say *a*, such that
*Precedes*^{+}(*a*,0) and *a*≠0. Then,
by definition of *Precedes*^{+}, it follows that either
*Precedes**(*a*,0) or *a* = 0. But since our
reductio hypthesis includes that *a*≠0, it must be that
*Precedes**(*a*,0), which contradicts the fact displayed
immediately above.

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