#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of Fact 6 Concerning the Weak Ancestral

Fact 6 concerning the weak ancestral*R*

^{+}of

*R*asserts:

To prove this, we shall appeal to Fact 3 concerning the ancestralFact 6 (:R^{+})

R*(x,y) → ∃z[R^{+}(x,z) &Rzy]

*R** of

*R*:

for any conceptFact 3 (:R*)

[R*(x,y) & ∀u(Rxu→Fu) & Her(F,R)] →Fy,

*F*and objects

*x*and

*y*:

Now to prove Fact 6 (*R*^{+}), assume
*R**(*a*,*b*). We want to show:

∃Notice that by λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:z[R^{+}(a,z) &Rzb]

[λLet us use ‘w∃z[R^{+}(a,z) &Rzw]]b

*P*’; to denote this concept under which (we have to show)

*b*falls. Notice that we could prove

*Pb*by instantiating Fact 3 (

*R**) to

*P*,

*a*, and

*b*and establishing the antecedent of the result. In other words, by Fact 3 (

*R**), we know:

[So if we can show the conjuncts of the antecedent, we are done. The first conjunct is already established, by hypothesis. So we have to show:R*(a,b) & ∀u(Rau→Pu) & Her(P,R)] →Pb

(1) ∀To see what we have to show for (1), we expand our defined notation and simplify by using λ-Conversion. Thus, we have to show:u(Rau→Pu)

(2) Her(P,R)

(1) ∀So assumeu[Rau→ ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzu)]

*Rau*, to show ∃

*z*(

*R*

^{+}(

*a*,

*z*) &

*Rzu*). But it is an immediate consequence of the definition of the weak ancestral

*R*

^{+}that

*R*

^{+}is reflexive. (This is Fact 4 concerning the weak ancestral, in Section 4, "The Weak Ancestral of

*R*".) So we may conjoin and conclude

*R*

^{+}(

*a*,

*a*) &

*Rau*. From this, we may infer ∃

*z*(

*R*

^{+}(

*a*,

*z*) &

*Rzu*), by existential generalization, which is what we had to show.

To show (2), we have to show that *P* is hereditary on
*R*. If we expand our defined notation and simplify by using
λ-Conversion), then we have to show, for arbitrarily chosen
objects *x*,*y*:

(2)So assumeRxy→ [∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzx) → ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzy)]

(A)to show: ∃Rxy

(B) ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzx)

*z*(

*R*

^{+}(

*a*,

*z*) &

*Rzy*). From (B), we know that there is some object, say

*d*, such that:

So, by Fact 3 about the weak ancestral (Section 4, "The Weak Ancestral ofR^{+}(a,d) &Rdx

*R*"), it follows that

*R**(

*a*,

*x*), from which it immediately follows that

*R*

^{+}(

*a*,

*x*), by definition of

*R*

^{+}. So, by conjoining (A), we have:

But sinceR^{+}(a,x) &Rxy.

*x*was arbitrarily chosen, it follows that:

∃which is what we had to show.z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzy),

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