#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof that 0 Falls Under *Q*

The proof that 0 falls under *Q*is relatively straightforward. We want to show:

[λBy λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:yPrecedes(y,#[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,y)])]0

So, by the definition of Predecessor, we have to show that there is a conceptPrecedes(0, #[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)])

*F*and object

*x*such that:

*Fx*- #[λ
*z**Precedes*^{+}(*z*,0)] = #*F* - 0 = #[λ
*u**Fu*&*u*≠*x*]

*F*and

*x*for which (1), (2) and (3) hold if we pick

*F*to be [λ

*z*

*Precedes*

^{+}(

*z*,0)] and pick

*x*to be 0. We now establish (1), (2), and (3) for these choices.

To show that (1) holds, we have to show:

[λBut we know, from the definition ofzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)]0

*Precedes*

^{+}, that

*Precedes*

^{+}(0,0), So by abstraction using λ-Conversion, we are done.

To show that (2) holds, we need do no work, since our choice of
*F* requires us to show:

#[λwhich we know by the logic of identity.zPrecedes^{+}(z,0)] = #[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)],

To show (3) holds, we need to show:

(A) 0 = #[λ[Note that the λ-expression in (A) has been simplified by applying λ-Conversion to the following (which, strictly speaking, is what results when you substitute our choice foruPrecedes^{+}(u,0) &u≠0]

*F*in (3)):

[λIn what follows, we use the simplified version of this λ-expression.]u[λzPrecedes^{+}(z,0)]u&u≠0]

To show (A), it suffices to show the following, in virtue of the
Lemma Concerning Zero (in our subsection on The Concept *Natural
Number* in §4):

¬∃And by λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:x([λuPrecedes^{+}(u,0) &u≠0]x)

(B) ¬∃We establish (B) as follows.x(Precedes^{+}(x,0) &x≠0)

When we established Theorem 2 (i.e., the fact that 0 is not the successor of any number), we proved that nothing precedes 0:

¬∃From this, and Fact (4) aboutxPrecedes(x,0)

*R** (in the subsection on the Ancestral of

*R*, in §4), it follows that nothing ancestrally precedes 0:

¬∃Now suppose (forxPrecedes*(x,0)

*reductio*) the negation of (B); i.e, that there is some object, say

*a*, such that

*Precedes*

^{+}(

*a*,0) and

*a*≠0. Then, by definition of

*Precedes*

^{+}, it follows that either

*Precedes**(

*a*,0) or

*a*= 0. But since our reductio hypthesis includes that

*a*≠0, it must be that

*Precedes**(

*a*,0), which contradicts the fact displayed immediately above.

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