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University of Alabama Department of Physics and Astronomy PH 126 LeClair Fall 2011 Problem Set 5 Instructions: 1. Answer all questions below. Show your work for full credit. 2. All problems are due 30 September 2011 by 11:59pm. 3. You may collaborate, but everyone must turn in their own work. 1. The electric field of a long, straight line of charge with λ coulombs per meter is E= 2ke λ r where r is the distance from the wire. Suppose we move this line of charge parallel to itself at speed v. (a) The moving line of charge constitutes an electric current. What is the magnitude of this current? (b) What is the magnitude of the magnetic field produced by this current? (c) Show that the magnitude of the magnetic field is proportional to the magnitude of the electric field, and find the constant of proportionality. Solution: The current can be found by thinking about how much charge passes through a given region of space per unit time. If we were standing next to the wire, in a time ∆t, the length of wire that passes by us would be v∆t. The corresponding charge is then ∆q = λv∆t, and thus the current is I= λv∆t ∆q = = λv ∆t ∆t From the current, we can easily find the magnetic field a distance r from the wire. B= µo λv µo I = 2πr 2πr If the wire were sitting still (or we were traveling parallel to it at the same velocity v), it would produce the electric field given above. Rearranging the given expression, we can relate λ and E, λ = Er/2ke . Substituting this in our expression for the magnetic field, B= µo λv µo Erv v = = µo o vE = 2 E 2πr 4πke r c For the last step, we noted that o = 1/4πke and c2 = 1/o µo . 2. A flat circular disk with radius R carries a uniform surface charge density σ. It rotates with an angular velocity ω about the z-axis. Find the magnetic field B(z) at any point z along the rotation axis. Solution: First: see the schematic below. z P(0,0,z) R ω r σ r dθ dr r dθ Figure 1: Problem 10 solution Break up the disk into a series of loops of infinitesimal width. A given loop of radius r and thickness dr will have a total area dA = 2πr dr, and thus contain a total charge dQ = 2πσr dr. This loop is rotating at an angular velocity ω, which means that the charge dQ on our loop makes a circuit around the axis every period of rotation, T = 2π/ω seconds. Since a charge dQ makes a circuit every T seconds, our infinitesimally thin ring is a current loop: dI = dQ 2πσr dr = = σωr dr T 2π/ω For this single loop, equivalent to a current dI, we can easily calculate the field a distance z above the axis. We did this in class, it is also an example problem in your textbook. Applied to the present case, the solution is: dB(z) = µo r2 dI 2 (r2 + z2 )3/2 = µo r3 σω dr 2 (r2 + z2 )3/2 In order to find the total field, we have to integrate over all possible infinitesimal rings, from r → 0 to r = R: ZR B(z) = µo r3 σω dr 2 (r2 + z2 )3/2 Z µo σω R r3 dr 3/2 2 0 (b2 + z2 ) R µo σω 2z2 + r2 √ 2 r2 + z2 0 2 z2 µo σω 2z + R2 √ −2 2 z R2 + z 2 2 2 µo σω 2z + R √ − 2|z| 2 R2 + z 2 0 = = = = The absolute value bit at the end is a bit sneaky, but necessary. Physically, we need it for the solution to be symmetric about z = 0, which it must be. Also, without it, the field would diverge on one side of the disk, which is just silly. 3. Find the magnetic field at point P due to the current distribution shown below. Hint: Break the loop into segments, and use superposition. y I I I P I x a b Solution: The easiest way to do solve this is by superposition. Since the magnetic field obeys superposition, we can consider our odd current loop above to be the same as two semicircles plus two small straight segments. We know that the magnetic field at the center of a circular loop of radius r carrying a current I is B= µo I 2r (loop radius r) This is easily derived from the Biot-Savart law, as found in the textbook. As a quick reminder, for a circle of radius r, our infinitesimal length element dl is just rdθ. For a current circulating around the ring in the θ̂ direction, a vector length element pointing along the current direction is then d~l = rdθ θ̂. We can now apply the Biot-Savart law: µo I rdθ θ̂ × r̂ µo I µo I d~l × r̂ = = d~ B= dθ ẑ 4π r2 4π r2 4πr 2π Z Z µo I µo I µo I ~ B= d~ B= dθ ẑ = dθ ẑ (2π) = ẑ 4πr 4πr 2r circle 0 This is the field at the center of a full circle. Since the magnetic field obeys superposition, we could just as well say that our full circle is built out of two equivalent half circles, like the one above! The field from each half circle, by symmetry, must be half of the total field, so the field at the center of a semicircle must simply be B= µo I 4r (semicircle, radius r) A more formal derivation goes just like the one above: simply replace the upper integration limit with π instead of 2π. Fundamentally, integrating the little dB’s using the Biot-Savart law is just saying the field from any current distribution can be built out of the fields of infinitesimal line segments by superposition. That is what the integral is really “doing,” it is building a circle out of tiny bits. Anyway: for the problem at hand, we have two semicircular current segments contributing to the magnetic field at P: one of radius b, and one of radius a. The currents are in the opposite directions for the two loops, so their fields are in opposing directions. Based on the axes given, it is the outer loop of radius b that has its field pointing out of the page in the ẑ direction, and the inner loop of radius a in the −ẑ direction. What about the straight bits of wire? The Biot-Savart law tells us that the magnetic field from a segment of the straight wire is proportional to d~l × r̂. For the straight segments, d~l and r̂ are parallel, and their cross product is zero. There is no field contribution at P from the straight segments! Thus, the total field is just that due to the semicircular bits, µo I µo I µo I ~ ẑ − ẑ = B= 4b 4a 4 1 1 − b a ẑ 4. The dielectric material between the plates of a parallel-plate capacitor has some non-zero conductivity σ = 1/ρ (thus it is a “leaky” capacitor). Let A represent the area of each plate, and d their separation. Let κ represent the dielectric constant of the material. Show that the resistance R and the capacitance C of the leaky capacitor are related by RC = κ0 σ. Solution: This is actually one crude model of charge transport across a cell membrane, among other things. The capacitance of the structure is given by C= κo A d Note that the capacitance per unit area scales as C/A ∼ 1/d. What about our leaky capacitor? All this means is that the capacitor lets some dc current through it, as if it had a resistor in parallel that lets some charge “leak” around it. In other words, a “leaky” capacitor is just a parallel RC circuit. The resistive part of the circuit we can model as a slab of cross-sectional area A and the same thickness d, which has then a resistance of R = ρd/A (here we imagine charge transfer across the cell membrane, along the direction of the lipid molecules). The resistance area product then scales as RA ∼ d. The time constant of a parallel RC circuit is just τ = RC. This is the same thing as multiplying the capacitance per unit area and the resistance area product: τ = RC = (RA)(C/A). This is an important point: we can calculate the time constant of our leaky capacitor without knowing its area. ρd κo A C = = ρκo τ = RC = (RA) A A d Independent of area, as desired, and also independent of thickness! 5. Two capacitors, one charged and the other uncharged, are connected in parallel. (a) Prove that when equilibrium is reached, each carries a fraction of the initial charge equal to the ratio of its capacitance to the sum of the two capacitances. (b) Show that the final energy is less than the initial energy, and derive a formula for the difference in terms of the initial charge and the two capacitances. Solution: This problem is easiest to start if you approach it from a conservation of energy & charge point of view. We have two capacitors. Initially, one capacitor stores a charge Q1i , while the other is empty, Q2i = 0. After connecting them together in parallel, some charge leaves the first capacitor and goes to the second, leaving the two with charges Q1f and Q2f , respectively. Now, since there were no sources hooked up, and we just have the two capacitors, the total amount of charge must be the same before and after we hook them together: Qi = Q f Q1i + Q2i = Q1f + Q2f Q1i = Q1f + Q2f We also know that if two capacitors are connected in parallel, they will have the same voltage ∆V across them: ∆Vf = Q2f Q1f = C1 C2 The fraction of the total charge left on the first capacitor can be found readily combining what we have: Q1f Q1f Q1f Q1f C1 C1 Q1f = = = = = C2 Qi Q1i Q1f + Q2f C Q + C Q C Q1f + C1 Q1f 1 1f 2 1f 1 + C2 The second capacitor must have the rest of the charge: Q1f C1 Q2f C2 =1− =1− = Qi Qi C1 + C2 C1 + C2 That was charge conservation. We can also apply energy conservation, noting that the energy of a charged capacitor is Q2 /2C: Ei = Ef Q21i Q2 Q2 = 1f + 2f 2C1 2C1 2C2 The final energy can be simplified using the result of the first part of the problem - we note that Q1f = Qi C1 / (C1 + C2 ) and Q2f = Qi C2 / (C1 + C2 ) Q21f Q22f + 2C1 2C2 Qi C 1 2 1 Qi C 2 2 1 = + C1 + C2 2C1 C1 + C2 2C2 2 2 Qi C 1 Qi C 2 = 2 + 2 (C1 + C2 ) 2 (C1 + C2 )2 Q2 (C1 + C2 ) Q2i = i = 2 (C1 + C2 ) 2 (C1 + C2 )2 Q2 C1 C1 = i = Ei 2C1 C1 + C2 C1 + C2 Ef = Thus, the final energy will be less than the initial energy, by a factor C1 / (C1 + C2 ) < 1. 6. Two long, cylindrical conductors of radius a1 and a2 are parallel and separated by a distance d which is large compared with either radius. Find the capacitance per unit length of the two conductors. Solution: In order to find the capacitance per unit length between the two cylinders, we need to find the potential difference between them assuming that one carries a charge Q and the other −Q. Since the cylinders supposed to be “long,” we will say instead that each has a charge per unit length of λ, with Q = λl, where l is the total length of the cylinder. Since we want capacitance per unit length in the end, this will be convenient. Let us choose a coordinate system which has its origin on the center of the first cylinder of radius a1 , which means the center of the second cylinder of radius a2 is located at r = d. Take the +r̂ direction to be along a line connecting the center of the two conductors toward the conductor of radius r2 . a1 P a2 d−r r d Figure 2: Geometry for problem 1. Because the electric field obeys superposition, the total field at any point P is just the sum of the fields due to each conductor separately. From Gauss’ law, we know that the field of each charged conductor is the same as that of a charged rod of length l and charge per unit length λ. Taking a point P along the axis connecting the center of the two conductors, we can find the total field readily: λ r̂ 2πo r −λ λ (−r̂) = = r̂ 2πo (d − r) 2πo (d − r) λ 1 1 = + r̂ 2πo r d − r ~ Eleft = ~ Eright ~ Etot The potential difference between the two conductors can be found by integrating ~ Etot · d~l over a path connecting the surface of the two conductors. Since ~ E is conservative, we can take any path we like, and the most natural choice is to take a straight line path along r̂ along a line connecting the centers of the two conductors (horizontal dashed line above), viz., r̂ dr. Thus, d−a Z 2 ~ Etot · d~l = ∆V = a1 d−a Z 2 1 1 + r d−r a1 d−a2 =⇒ λ 2πo λ r̂ · r̂ dr = 2πo d−a Z 2 1 1 + dr r d−r a1 λ d − a2 a2 λ = ln r − ln (d − r) ln − ln = 2πo 2πo a1 d − a1 a1 (d − a1 ) (d − a2 ) (d − a1 ) (d − a2 ) Q λ ln = ∆V = ln 2πo a1 a2 2πo l a1 a2 For the last line, we noted that λ = Q/l. Now using the definition of capacitance, Q = C∆V, or C = Q/∆V, we have for the total capacitance 2πo l C= ln h a1 a2 (d−a1 )(d−a2 ) i or, as asked, the capacitance per unit length C/l: π C 2πo 2π i ≈ a1 ao2 = h √ 0 i = h a1 a2 a2 l ln d2 ln (d−aa11)(d−a ln d 2) The last two steps are valid when d a1 , a2 , and indicate that the capacitance is governed by the ratio of the geometric mean of the two conductors’ radii to their separation. 7. Find the equivalent capacitance for both combinations shown below. Be sure to consider the symmetry involved and the relative electric potential at different points in the circuits. C 2C 2.00µF 3C C 4.00µF 2C 8.00µF 4.00µF 2.00µF Solution: In the first case, by symmetry the 3C capacitor has no potential difference across it. Since capacitors in parallel have the same potential difference, both of the C capacitors have the same potential difference, and that means that both ends of the 3C capacitor are at the same potential. If that is true, then no charge is stored Q = C∆V = 0, and we can simply replace the 3C capacitor with a plain wire. Once we have done that, we have a pair of C capacitors connected in parallel, in series with a pair of 2C capacitors which are also connected in parallel. The two C’s give an equivalent capacitance of 2C, and the two 2C’s give an equivalent capacitance of 4C, so the whole circuit is equivalent to 2C in series with 4C. This gives an equivalent capacitance of 4C/3. In the second case, we can apply the same argument to the 8 µF capacitor - it cannot have a potential difference across it, and it can therefore be replaced with a plain old wire. That leaves us with two pairs of 4 µF and 2 µF capacitors in parallel, each of which can be replaced with a single 6 µF equivalent capacitor. The whole circuit is then equivalent to two 6 µF capacitors in series, which is itself equivalent to a single 3 µF capacitor. 8. A capacitor is constructed from two square plates of sides l and separation d. A material of dielectric constant κ is inserted a distance x into the capacitor, as shown below. (a) Find the equivalent capacitance of this device as a function of x. (b) Calculate the energy stored in the capacitor, letting ∆V represent the potential difference. (c) Find the direction and magnitude of the force exerted on the dielectric, assuming a constant potential difference ∆V. Ignore friction. l X κ d Solution: Whether the dielectric is there or not, we still have two plates held at a potential difference of ∆V, and inserting the dielectric will not changes this. Therefore, once we have the dielectric part way inserted, we can think of the situation as two capacitors in parallel - one filled with dielectric of width x and length l, the other without dielectric of width l−x and length l. Both effective capacitors still have a potential difference of ∆V applied. We can calculate the capacitance of each, and the total equivalent, capacitance easily: κo Afilled κo lx = d d o Aempty o (l − x) l = = d d o l o l2 x (κ − 1) x + l = (κ − 1) + 1 = Cfilled + Cempty = d d l Cfilled = Cempty Cequiv The last form is perhaps more pleasing, since it tells us the equivalent capacitance compared to having no dielectric at all (0 l2 /d). The total energy stored can now be found easily from the equivalent capacitance and voltage. Remember: an equivalent capacitance is equivalent in every way, so the energy in the equivalent capacitor is the same as that in the individual constituents. 1 1 o l2 (∆V)2 x 2 (κ − 1) + 1 U = Cequiv (∆V) = 2 2 d l How about the force? We know the energy as a function of position, so this too is easy: dU o l (κ − 1) (∆V)2 |~ F| = − =− dx 2d The force in this case acts to the right, pulling the sheet in. This is because the dielectric is polarizable - the top surface of the dielectric near the positive plate would develop a negative charge, and be attracted to the capacitor, pulling the dielectric farther in. Another way to think about it is that the capacitor stores more energy with the dielectric inside, so it will try to pull it in and maximize its stored energy.i 9. Using the same figure as the previous question, imagine now that the block being inserted is metal, rather than dielectric. Assume that d l, and that the plates carries charges +Qo and −Qo . (a) Calculate the stored energy as a function of x. (b) Find the direction and magnitude of the force acting on the metallic block. Hint: a metal can be considered a perfect dielectric, κ → ∞, which allows no electric field to penetrate it. Solution: Once again, we can consider this to be two capacitors in parallel: one filled with metal, and the other empty. We have to imagine that the metal fills the left half of the capacitor, but doesn’t touch the plates - otherwise, we would short out the capacitor and no charge would be stored anywhere. Most likely, shorting out the capacitor like this would cause something to break in a bad way. Anyway: the metal-filled half of the capacitor doesn’t store any energy at all. A metal can be considered analogous to a dielectric with κ → ∞ Thus, for a fixed amount of charge Q0 and a fixed voltage ∆V the stored energy Q2o /2C → 0. Only the unfilled portion of the capacitor stores any energy. If each plate in total has a charge Qo , then the unfilled portion of the plate must store charge proportional to the uncovered area of the plate: Qunfilled area = (l − x) x l−x Aunfilled Qo = = Qo 2 Atotal l l The capacitance of the unfilled region we have already calculated above. The stored energy in the unfilled region, and thus the whole capacitor, is thus 2 l−x Q2unfilled area d (l − x) Q2o Q2o d l − x l Qo U= = (l−x)l = = 2Cunfilled 2o l3 2o l2 l 2 o d i In fact, the presence of a force at all is entirely due to the fringing fields at the edges of the plates. After all, if not for that region, the field would be perpendicular to the required direction of the force, and no work could be done! For a good discussion of what is really going on, see The Feynman Lectures on Physics, vol. II, ch. 10, pp. 8-9, or an excellent article in the American Journal of Physics, vol. 52, pp. 515-518, 1984, online here: http://link.aip.org/link/?AJPIAS/52/515/1. The link will only work on campus. The last form makes it clear that the energy stored is that of a completely unfilled capacitor, times the fraction (l − x)/l that the metal fills the capacitor. Once again, we find the force from the gradient of the potential energy: dU Q2 d |~ F| = − = o 2 dx 2o l In this case, the force is actually to the left - the metal plate is pushed out of the capacitor, because the capacitor stores more energy without it. Thus, the capacitor will expel the plate to maximize its stored energy.