Cochran's Q test  overview
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Cochran's Q test  $z$ test for the difference between two proportions 


Independent/grouping variable  Independent/grouping variable  
One within subject factor ($\geq 2$ related groups)  One categorical with 2 independent groups  
Dependent variable  Dependent variable  
One categorical with 2 independent groups  One categorical with 2 independent groups  
Null hypothesis  Null hypothesis  
H_{0}: $\pi_1 = \pi_2 = \ldots = \pi_I$
Here $\pi_1$ is the population proportion of 'successes' for group 1, $\pi_2$ is the population proportion of 'successes' for group 2, and $\pi_I$ is the population proportion of 'successes' for group $I.$  H_{0}: $\pi_1 = \pi_2$
Here $\pi_1$ is the population proportion of 'successes' for group 1, and $\pi_2$ is the population proportion of 'successes' for group 2.  
Alternative hypothesis  Alternative hypothesis  
H_{1}: not all population proportions are equal  H_{1} two sided: $\pi_1 \neq \pi_2$ H_{1} right sided: $\pi_1 > \pi_2$ H_{1} left sided: $\pi_1 < \pi_2$  
Assumptions  Assumptions  

 
Test statistic  Test statistic  
If a failure is scored as 0 and a success is scored as 1:
$Q = k(k  1) \dfrac{\sum_{groups} \Big (\mbox{group total}  \frac{\mbox{grand total}}{k} \Big)^2}{\sum_{blocks} \mbox{block total} \times (k  \mbox{block total})}$ Here $k$ is the number of related groups (usually the number of repeated measurements), a group total is the sum of the scores in a group, a block total is the sum of the scores in a block (usually a subject), and the grand total is the sum of all the scores. Before computing $Q$, first exclude blocks with equal scores in all $k$ groups.  $z = \dfrac{p_1  p_2}{\sqrt{p(1  p)\Bigg(\dfrac{1}{n_1} + \dfrac{1}{n_2}\Bigg)}}$
Here $p_1$ is the sample proportion of successes in group 1: $\dfrac{X_1}{n_1}$, $p_2$ is the sample proportion of successes in group 2: $\dfrac{X_2}{n_2}$, $p$ is the total proportion of successes in the sample: $\dfrac{X_1 + X_2}{n_1 + n_2}$, $n_1$ is the sample size of group 1, and $n_2$ is the sample size of group 2. Note: we could just as well compute $p_2  p_1$ in the numerator, but then the left sided alternative becomes $\pi_2 < \pi_1$, and the right sided alternative becomes $\pi_2 > \pi_1.$  
Sampling distribution of $Q$ if H_{0} were true  Sampling distribution of $z$ if H_{0} were true  
If the number of blocks (usually the number of subjects) is large, approximately the chisquared distribution with $k  1$ degrees of freedom  Approximately the standard normal distribution  
Significant?  Significant?  
If the number of blocks is large, the table with critical $X^2$ values can be used. If we denote $X^2 = Q$:
 Two sided:
 
n.a.  Approximate $C\%$ confidence interval for $\pi_1  \pi_2$  
  Regular (large sample):
 
Equivalent to  Equivalent to  
Friedman test, with a categorical dependent variable consisting of two independent groups.  When testing two sided: chisquared test for the relationship between two categorical variables, where both categorical variables have 2 levels.  
Example context  Example context  
Subjects perform three different tasks, which they can either perform correctly or incorrectly. Is there a difference in task performance between the three different tasks?  Is the proportion of smokers different between men and women? Use the normal approximation for the sampling distribution of the test statistic.  
SPSS  SPSS  
Analyze > Nonparametric Tests > Legacy Dialogs > K Related Samples...
 SPSS does not have a specific option for the $z$ test for the difference between two proportions. However, you can do the chisquared test instead. The $p$ value resulting from this chisquared test is equivalent to the two sided $p$ value that would have resulted from the $z$ test. Go to:
Analyze > Descriptive Statistics > Crosstabs...
 
Jamovi  Jamovi  
Jamovi does not have a specific option for the Cochran's Q test. However, you can do the Friedman test instead. The $p$ value resulting from this Friedman test is equivalent to the $p$ value that would have resulted from the Cochran's Q test. Go to:
ANOVA > Repeated Measures ANOVA  Friedman
 Jamovi does not have a specific option for the $z$ test for the difference between two proportions. However, you can do the chisquared test instead. The $p$ value resulting from this chisquared test is equivalent to the two sided $p$ value that would have resulted from the $z$ test. Go to:
Frequencies > Independent Samples  $\chi^2$ test of association
 
Practice questions  Practice questions  