#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 3.12

**Proposition 3.12**(Bicchieri 1993)

In an extensive form game of perfect information, the agents follow the backwards induction solution if the following conditions are satisfied for each agent

*i*at each information set I

^{ik}:

*i*is rational,*i*knows this and*i*knows the game, and- At any information set I
^{jk+1}that immediately follows I^{ik},*i*knows at I^{ik}what*j*knows at I^{jk+1}.

**Proof.**

The proof is by induction on *m*, the number of potential moves
in the game. If *m* = 1, then at I^{i1}, by (a)
agent *i* chooses a strategy which yields *i* her maximum
payoff, and this is the backwards induction solution for a game with
one move.

Now suppose the proposition holds for games having at most
*m* = *r* potential moves. Let Γ be a game of
perfect information with *r* + 1 potential moves, and suppose
that ( α ) and ( β ) are satisfied at every node of Γ.
Let I^{i1} be the information set corresponding to the
root of the tree for Γ. At I^{i1}, *i*
knows that (a) and (b) obtain for each of the subgames that start at
the information sets which immediately follow I^{i1}.
Then *i* knows that the outcome of play for each of these
subgames is the backwards induction solution for that subgame. Hence,
at I^{i1} *i*'s payoff maximizing strategy is a
branch of the tree starting from I^{i1} which leads to
a subgame whose backwards induction solution is best for *i*,
and since *i* is rational, *i* chooses such a branch at
I^{i1}. But this is the backwards induction solution
for the entire game Γ, so the proposition is proved for
*m* = *r* + 1.

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@gmail.com*>

Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@andrew.cmu.edu*>