#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 3.1

**Proposition 3.1**.

Let Ω be a finite set of states of the world. Suppose that

- Agents i and j have a common prior probability distribution μ(·) over the events of Ω such that μ(ω) > 0 for each ω ∈ Ω, and
- It is common knowledge at ω that
*i*'s posterior probability of event E is*q*_{i}(E) and that*j*'s posterior probability of E is*q*_{j}(E).

*q*

_{i}(E) =

*q*

_{j}(E).

**Proof.**

Let
be the meet of all the
agents' partitions, and let
(
ω) be the element of
containing ω. Since
(
ω) consists of cells common to every
agents information partition, we can write

(ω) =

∪

^{k}H _{ik},

where each H_{ik} ∈
_{i}. Since i's posterior probability of
event E is common knowledge, it is constant on
(ω),
and so

q_{i}(E) = μ(E | H_{ik}) for allk

Hence,

μ( E ∩ H _{ik}) =q_{i}(E) μ(H_{ik})

and so

μ(E ∩ (ω)) =

μ(E ∩

∪

^{k}H _{ik})=

μ(

∪

^{k}E ∩ H _{ik})=

Σ

^{k}μ(E ∩ H _{ik})=

Σ

^{k}q_{i}(E) μ(H_{ik})=

q_{i}(E)

Σ

^{k}μ(H _{ik})=

q_{i}(E) μ(

∪

^{k}H _{ik})= q_{i}(E) μ((ω))

Applying the same argument to *j*, we have

μ(E ∩ (ω)) = q_{j}(E) μ((ω))

so we must have *q*_{i}(E) = *q*_{j}(E).

Copyright © 2007 by

Peter Vanderschraaf <

Giacomo Sillari <

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@gmail.com*>Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@andrew.cmu.edu*>