#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Lemma 2.16

**Lemma 2.16**.

(ω) is common knowledge for the agents of

*N*at ω.

**Proof**.

Since
is a coarsening of
_{i} for
each *i* ∈ *N*,
**K**_{i}((ω)).
Hence,
**K**^{1}_{N}((ω) ), and since by definition
**K**_{i}((ω)) =
{ ω |
_{i}(ω)
⊆
(ω)}
=
(ω),

K^{1}_{N}((ω)) =∩

^{i ∈ N}K_{i}((ω)) = (ω)

Applying the recursive definition of mutual knowledge, for any *m*
≥ 1,

K^{m}_{N}((ω)) =∩

^{i ∈ N}K_{i}(K^{m−1}_{N}((ω)) =∩

^{i ∈ N}K_{i}((ω)) = (ω)

so, since ω ∈
(ω),
by definition we have ω ∈
**K***_{N}((ω)).

Copyright © 2007 by

Peter Vanderschraaf <

Giacomo Sillari <

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@gmail.com*>Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@andrew.cmu.edu*>