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Pricing Catastrophic Bonds for Earthquakes in Mexico Master Thesis submitted to Prof. Dr. Wolfgang Härdle Institute for Statistics and Econometrics CASE - Center for Applied Statistics and Economics Master in Economics and Management Science Humboldt-Universität zu Berlin by Brenda López Cabrera (500113) in partial fulfillment of the requirements for the degree of Master of Sciences in Economics and Management Science Berlin, October 4, 2006 Supported by the Programme Alβan, the European Union Programme of High Level Scholarships for Latin America, scholarship No.E04M049436MX. Declaration of Authorship I hereby confirm that I have authored this master thesis indepently and without use of others than the indicated sources. All passages which are literally or in general matter taken out of publications or other sources are marked as such. Berlin, October 4, 2006. Brenda López Cabrera Abstract After the occurrence of a natural disaster, the reconstruction can be financed with catastrophic bonds (CAT bonds) or reinsurance. For insurers, reinsurers and other corporations CAT bonds provide multi year protection without the credit risk present in reinsurance. For investors CAT bonds offer attractive returns and reduction of portfolio risk, since CAT bonds defaults are uncorrelated with defaults of other securities. As the study of natural catastrophe models plays an important role in the prevention and mitigation of disasters, the main motivation of this thesis is the pricing of CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico. This thesis examines the calibration of a real parametric CAT bond for earthquakes that was sponsored by the Mexican government. This thesis also derives the price of a hypothetical modeled loss CAT bond for earthquakes, which is based on the compound doubly stochastic Poisson pricing methodology from Baryshnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003). Keywords: Earthquakes, CAT bonds, Reinsurance, Trigger mechanism, Compound doubly Poisson process 3 Contents 1 Introduction 12 2 Seismology 14 2.1 Earthquake magnitude . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 14 2.2 Earthquake Intensity . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 15 2.3 Seismic Tools . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 15 2.4 Location of epicenters . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 16 2.5 Seismology in Mexico . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 17 3 The catastrophic bonds 18 3.1 Definition . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 18 3.2 Structure of Cash flows - Timing . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 19 3.3 Types Trigger mechanism . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 20 3.3.1 Indemnity trigger . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 20 3.3.2 Industry index trigger . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 21 3.3.3 Pure parametric index trigger . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 21 3.3.4 Parametric index trigger . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 21 3.3.5 Modeled loss trigger . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 22 3.4 Default bonds and CAT bonds . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 22 3.5 Rating . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 22 3.6 Comparison against reinsurance . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 23 3.7 Pricing CAT bonds . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 24 4 Contents 3.8 Market Prospects . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 24 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond 25 4.1 Issue . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 26 4.2 Calibrating the Mexican CAT bond . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 27 4.2.1 Insurance market intensity: λ1 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 29 4.2.2 Capital market intensity: λ2 4.2.3 Historical Intensity: λ3 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 30 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 30 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 37 5.1 Data . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 38 5.2 Earthquake severity . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 39 5.3 5.4 5.2.1 Modeled loss . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 39 5.2.2 Loss Distribution . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 47 Earthquake frequency . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 59 5.3.1 Homogeneous Poisson Process (HPP) . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 61 5.3.2 Non-homogeneous Poisson Process (NHPP) . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 62 5.3.3 Doubly Stochastic Poisson Process . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 62 5.3.4 Renewal Process . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 62 5.3.5 Simulating the earthquake arrival process . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 63 CAT Bond Pricing Model . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 65 5.4.1 Compound Doubly Stochastic Poisson Pricing Model . . . . . . . . . . . . 65 5.4.2 Zero Coupon CAT bonds . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 67 5.4.3 Coupon CAT bonds . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 72 5.4.4 Robustness of the modeled loss CAT bond prices . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 74 6 Conclusion 80 Bibliography 83 5 List of Figures 2.1 A seismograph used by the United States Department of Interior. . . . . . . . . . 16 2.2 Location of earthquakes. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 16 3.1 CAT bond cash flows diagram. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 19 3.2 Trigger mechanisms. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 20 4.1 Map of seismic regions in Mexico. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 27 4.2 Cash flows diagram of the Mexican CAT bond . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 28 4.3 The magnitude of trigger events and earthquakes occurred in insured zones. . . . 34 5.1 Plot of adjusted losses and the magnitude M w of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during the years 1900-2003. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 39 5.2 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d, the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 41 5.3 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d, the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) , without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake . . . . . . . . . 42 5.4 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d, the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) , without the outliers of the 1985 & 1999 earthquakes . . . 43 5.5 Modeled losses of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during 1990-2003 and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 46 5.6 Historical and modeled losses of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during 19902003 and without outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 . . . . . . . . . . 48 5.7 The empirical mean excess function ên (x) for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico and without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. . . . 51 6 List of Figures 5.8 The empirical ˆln (x) and analytical limited expected value function l(x) for the log-normal, Pareto, Burr, Weibull and Gamma distributions for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico and without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 60 5.9 Trajectories of a HPP in 1000 years for the intensities λ1 = 0.0215, λ2 = 0.0237 and λ3 = 0.0289 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 61 5.10 The empirical mean excess function ên (t) for the earthquakes data and the mean excess function e(t) for the log-normal, exponential, Pareto and Gamma distributions for the earthquakes data in Mexico . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 63 5.11 The accumulated number of earthquakes in Mexico during 1900-2003 and mean value functions E(Nt ) of the HPP with intensity λ = 1.8504 and the λs = 1.81 . 65 5.12 A sample trajectory of the aggregate loss process Lt , the historical loss trajectory, the analytical mean of the process Lt , 5% and 95% quantile lines and a threshold level D = 1600 million, for the loss model data number 23 and without the earthquake in 1985. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 67 5.13 The zero coupon CAT bond price with respect to the threshold level and expiration time in the Burr-HPP and Pareto-HPP cases for the modeled loss data number 23. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 69 5.14 The zero coupon CAT bond price with respect to the threshold level and expiration time in the Gamma-HPP, Pareto-HPP and Weibull-HPP cases of the modeled loss data number 23 without the earthquake in 1985. . . . . . . . . . . . 70 5.15 The difference in zero CAT bond price between the Burr and Pareto, the Gamma and Pareto, the Pareto and Weibull and the Gamma and Weibull distributions under an HPP, with respect to the threshold level and expiration time . . . . . . 71 5.16 The coupon CAT bond price with respect to the threshold level and expiration time in the Burr-HPP and Pareto-HPP cases for the modeled loss data number 23 73 5.17 The coupon CAT bond price with respect to the threshold level and expiration time in the Gamma-HPP, Pareto-HPP and Weibull-HPP cases of the modeled loss data number 23 without the earthquake in 1985 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 75 5.18 Difference in the coupon CAT bond price between the Burr and Pareto, the Gamma and Pareto, the Pareto and Weibull and the Gamma and Weibull distributions under an HPP, with respect to the threshold level and expiration time 76 5.19 The zero coupon and coupon CAT bond prices at time to maturity T = 3 years with respect to the threshold level D in the Burr and Pareto distribution for the loss models 8, 22, 23, 24 and 25 . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 79 7 List of Tables 2.1 Modified Mercalli scale (MMI) and witness observations . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 15 4.1 Parametric Mexican CAT bond . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 26 4.2 Thresholds u’s of the Mexican parametric CAT bond . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 26 4.3 Descriptive statistics for the variables time t, depth d and magnitude M w of the 1900-2003 earthquake data. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 31 4.4 Frequency of the magnitude M w for the 1900-2003 earthquake data . . . . . . . 31 4.5 Frequency of the earthquake location for the 1900-2003 earthquake data . . . . . 32 4.6 Trigger events occurred in the insured zones . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 33 4.7 Calibration of intensity rates: the intensity rate from the reinsurance market λ1 , the intensity rate from the capital market λ2 and the historical intensity rate λ3 5.1 33 Descriptive statistics for the variables time t, depth d, magnitude M w and loss X of the loss historical data . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 38 5.2 Coefficients of determination of the linear regression models applied to the ad2 2 justed loss data (rLR1 ), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (rLR2 ) and, 2 without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (rLR3 ) . . . . . . . . . . 44 5.3 Standard errors of the linear regression models applied to the adjusted loss data (SELR1 ), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (SELR2 ) and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (SELR3 ) . . . . . . . . . . . . . 45 5.4 Descriptive statistics for the historical adjusted losses (HL1 ), estimated losses (EL1 ), historical-estimated losses (HE1 ) of the modeled loss number 23, without the outlier of earthquake in 1985 (HL2 , EL2 , HEL2 ) and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (HL3 , EL3 , HEL3 ) . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 47 8 List of Tables 5.5 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 53 5.6 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 8 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 54 5.7 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 22 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 54 5.8 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 24 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 55 5.9 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 25 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 55 5.10 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 56 5.11 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 8 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 56 5.12 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 22 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 57 5.13 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 24 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 57 5.14 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 25 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 58 5.15 Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the earthquake data. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 64 5.16 Quantiles of 3 years accumulated loss for the modeled loss data number 23 (3yrsAccL) . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 68 9 List of Tables 5.17 Minimum and maximum of the differences in the zero coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr-Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma-Pareto, Pareto-Weibull, Gamma-Weibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. . 69 5.18 Minimum and maximum of the differences in the zero and coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr and Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma, Pareto and Weibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. . 73 5.19 Minimum and maximum of the differences in the coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr-Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma-Pareto, Pareto-Weibull, Gamma-Weibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. . 74 5.20 Percentages in terms of P̂ ∗ of the MAD and the MAVRD of the zero coupon CAT bond prices from the loss models number 8, 22, 24 and 25 (M ADA , M AV RDA ) and one hundred simulation of 1000 trajectories of the zero coupon CAT bond prices from the algorithm (M ADB , M AV RDB ), with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 77 5.21 Percentages in terms of P̂ ∗ of the MAD and the MAVRD of the coupon CAT bond prices from the loss models number 8, 22, 24 and 25 (M ADA , M AV RDA ) and one hundred simulation of 1000 trajectories of the coupon CAT bond prices from the algorithm (M ADB , M AV RDB ), with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . . 78 10 Notation of abbreviations cdf Cumulative distribution function d Depth of an earthquake e.g. Exempli gratia; for example edf Empirical distribution function et al. among others i.e. id est.; that is Mw Magnitude Richter Scale of an earthquake T Expiration time τ Threshold time event λt Intensity rate (Ω, F, Ft , P ) Probability space φ(x) ˆln (x) The standard normal Empirical limited expected function l(x) Analytical limited expected value function ên (x) Empirical mean excess function e(x) Mean excess function E(x) Expected value function Xk Adjusted losses I(0,1) Indicator of impact on Mexico City Nt Flow process of a natural event CAT Catastrophic CB Coupon CAT bond HPP Homogeneous Poisson Process ILS Insurance Linked Securities LIBOR London Inter-Bank Offered Rate MAD Mean of the absolute differences MAVRD Mean of the absolute values of the relative differences NHPP No Homogeneous Poisson Process SPV Special Purpose Vehicle ZCB Zero Coupon CAT bond 11 1 Introduction By its geographical position, Mexico finds itself under a great variety of natural phenomena which can cause disasters, like earthquakes, eruptions, hurricanes, burning forest, floods and aridity (dryness). In case of disaster, the effects on financial and natural resources are huge and volatile. In Mexico the first risk to transfer is the seismic risk, because although it is the less recurrent, it has the biggest impact on the population and country. For example, an earthquake of magnitude 8.1 M w Richter scale that hit Mexico in 1985, destroyed hundreds of buildings and caused thousand of deaths. The Mexican insurance industry officials estimated payouts of four billion dollars. After the occurrence of a natural disaster, the reconstruction can be financed with catastrophic bonds (CAT bonds) or reinsurance. For insurers, reinsurers and other corporations CAT bonds provide multi year protection without the credit risk present in reinsurance. For investors CAT bonds offer attractive returns and reduction of portfolio risk, since CAT bonds defaults are uncorrelated with defaults of other securities. As the study of natural catastrophe models plays an important role in the prevention and mitigation of disasters, the main motivation of this thesis is the pricing of CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico. This thesis is organized as follows: chapter 2 presents an introduction of earthquakes, their characteristics, how they are measured and how the seismic risk can be transferred with financial instruments. Chapter 3 describes the definition of CAT bonds, their fundamentals, including their structure of cash flows, the trigger mechanisms and its comparison with default bonds and the reinsurance. It also offers their rating and some insights into the future of the CAT bonds market. Chapter 4 explains a real case, a parametric CAT bond for earthquakes that was sponsored by the Mexican government and issued in May 2006 by the special purpose CAT-MEX Ltd. The transaction was structured by Swiss Re AG and Deutsche Bank AG. In this chapter, the calibration of the bond is based on the estimation of the intensity rate that describes the earthquakes process from the two sides of the contract: from the reinsurance market that consists of the sponsor company (the Mexican government) and the issuer of reinsurance coverage (Swiss Re) and from the capital markets, which is formed by the issuer of the CAT bond (CAT-MEX Ltd.) and the investors. In addition, the historical intensity rate is computed. Once the intensity rates are estimated, a comparative analysis between the intensity 12 1 Introduction rates is conducted to know whether the Mexican government is buying reinsurance from Swiss Re at a fair price or whether Swiss Re is selling the bond to the investors for a reasonable price. The results demonstrate that Swiss Re estimates a probability of an earthquake lower than the one estimated from historical data. Under specific conditions, the financial strategy of the government, a mix of reinsurance and CAT bond is optimal in the sense that it provides coverage of $450 million for a lower cost than the reinsurance itself. Since a modeled loss trigger mechanism takes other varibles into account that can affect the value of the losses, the pricing of a hypothetical CAT bond with a modeled loss trigger for earthquakes in Mexico is examined in chapter 5. Due to the missing information of losses, different loss models are proposed to describe the severity of earthquakes. In section 5.2 the analytical distribution is fitted to the loss data that is formed with actual and estimated losses. Section 5.3 presents different loss arrival point processes of natural events. This section describes that the homogenous Poisson process is the best process governing the flow of earthquakes. Formerly estimating the frequency and severity of earthquakes, the modeled loss is connected with an index CAT bond, using the compound doubly stochastic Poisson pricing methodology from Baryshnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003). This methodology and Monte Carlo simulations are applied to the studied data to find the CAT bond prices for earthquakes in Mexico. The values of the zero and coupon CAT bonds associated to the modeled loss data, the threshold level and the maturity time are computed in section 5.4. Furthermore, the robustness of the modeled loss with respect to the CAT bond prices is analyzed. Because of the quality of the data, the results show that there is no significant impact of the choice of the modeled loss on the CAT bond prices. However, the expected loss is considerably more important for the evaluation of a CAT bond than the entire distribution of losses. The last part, chapter 6, provides a conclusion. 13 2 Seismology Earthquakes can be generated by a sudden dislocation of large rock masses along fault lines fractures within the crust of the earth. Earthquakes can occur interplate or intraplate. Interplate earthquakes occur along their edges, where they may collide, slide past one another, or pull apart from another. Intraplate earthquakes transmit forces from the edges of the crustal plates that result in quakes in their interiors, Anderson et al. (1998). The main parameters of an earthquake are its location, depth, fault rapture plane and magnitude. A quake starts at a single point, the hypocenter, and then propagates through a fault rupture plane. The area of this fault is an important determinant of the magnitude of the earthquake. The location of an earthquake, or the epicenter, is the initial point of rupture within the earth above the hypocenter. The depth is the distance between the hypocenter and the epicenter. 2.1 Earthquake magnitude The magnitude of an earthquake can be defined as a numerical quantity of the total energy released. There are several magnitude scales, such as the moment magnitude, the surface wave magnitude, the body wave magnitude and the local (or Richter M w) magnitude scales. These scales can be related to one another, Open File Report (1998). The media often report earthquakes using the Richter scale. This scale was developed for a specific type of seismograph that is no longer in use. Richter magnitudes are local magnitudes, but do not imply a specific scale. The Richter magnitude scale compares the size of earthquakes in a mathematical way. The magnitude of an earthquake is determined from the logarithm of the amplitude and wave length (A/T) recorded by seismographs. On the Richter scale, the magnitude M w is expressed in whole numbers and decimal fractions, where each whole number increase in magnitude represents a tenfold increase in measured amplitude; in terms of energy, each whole number in the magnitude scale corresponds to the release of about 31 times more energy than the amount associated with the preceding whole number value, USGS (2006). 14 2 2.2 Seismology Earthquake Intensity The intensity of an earthquake is defined as the kind and amount of damage produced. It is measured with the Modified Mercalli scale (MMI), which is a numerical index describing the physical effects of an earthquake on man and man-built structures. MMI categories range from I to XII. The intensity at a given point depends not only on the strength of the earthquake (magnitude M w) but also on the depth d and the local geology at that point. Table 2.1 shows the Modified Mercalli scale (MMI) and witness observations. MMI scale Witness observations I Felt by very few people; barely noticeable. II Felt by a few people, especially on upper floors. III Noticeable indoors, especially on upper floors, but may not be recognised as an earthquake. Hanging objects swing. IV Felt by many indoors, by few outdoors. May give the impression of a heavy truck passing by. V Felt by almost everyone, some people awakened. Small objects move. Trees and poles may shake. VI Felt by everyone. Difficult to stand. Some heavy items of furniture move, plaster falls. Slight damage to chimneys possible. VII Slight to moderate damage in well-built, ordinary structures. Considerable damage to poorly built structures. Some walls may fall. VIII Little damage in especially built structures. Considerable damage to ordinary buildings, severe damage to poorly built structures. Some walls collapse. IX Considerable damage to especially built structures, buildings shifted off foundations. Noticeable cracks in ground. Wholesale destruction. X Most masonry and frame structures and their foundations destroyed. Ground badly cracked. Landslides. Wholesale destruction. XI Total damage. Few, if any, structures standing. Bridges destroyed. Wide cracks in ground. Waves seen on ground. XII Total damage. Waves seen on ground. Objects thrown up into air. Table 2.1: Modified Mercalli scale (MMI) and witness observations. Source: USGS 2.3 Seismic Tools The tools to register earthquakes are the seismograph and the accelerograph, which register the movement of the earth when a seismic wave passes. The seismograph can extend ten or hundred of thousand times the speed of the movement of the earth caused by a quake. When the seismic wave is very close to the seismograph, it shows a saturate seismogram and the wave cannot be registered. In this case the accerelograph is used. It registers the acceleration of the earth and is generally used to readjust the intensity of the quake movement on the seismograph. 15 2 Figure 2.1: 2.4 Seismology A seismograph used by the United States Department of Interior. Source: Wikipedia. Location of epicenters In order to find the accurate epicenter of an earthquake, it is necessary that many reporting stations calculate the distances from the epicenter to the stations. The arrival times of the seismic waves give a rough distance to the epicenter in kilometers, but do not give the direction. Once the reporting stations calculate the distances, the epicenter of the earthquake is given by the intersection point (E) of the circles from the different reporting stations. Figure 2.2 represents an earthquake in the coast of Guerrero, Mexico. It was registered in the reporting stations: Tacubaya, D.F. (TAC), Presa Infernillo, Mich. (PIM) and Pinotepa Nacional, Oax. (PIO), Suárez and Jiménez (1987). In practice, the procedure to localize the epicenter is more complicated, since the internal structure and sphere form of the earth should be considered. Figure 2.2: Location of earthquakes. 16 2 2.5 Seismology Seismology in Mexico Mexico has a high level of seismic activity due to the interaction between the Cocos plate and the North American plate. The Central Guerrero segment, part of the Cocos Plate along the active subduction zone on Mexico’s south western coast, is of great importance because it is a potential threat to Mexico City due to its proximity and lack of major activity since 1916. This zone along the Middle America Trench suffers large magnitude events with a frequency higher than any other subduction zone in the world. These events can cause substantial damage in Mexico City, due to a phenomenon known as the Mexico City effect. The Mexico City soil, which consists mostly of reclaimed, water-saturated lakebed deposits, amplifies 5 to 20 times the long-period seismic energy, RMS (2006). Due to this effect and the high concentration of exposure in Mexico City, seismic risk is on the top of the list for catastrophic risk in Mexico. Historically, the Cocos plate boundary produced the 1985 Michoacan earthquake of magnitude 8.1 M w Richter scale. It destroyed hundreds of buildings and caused thousand of deaths in Mexico City and other parts of the country. It is considered the most damaging earthquake in the history of Mexico City. The Mexican insurance industry officials estimated payouts of four billion dollars. In the last decades, other earthquakes have reached the magnitude 7.8 M w Richter scale. For earthquakes, the Mexican insurance market has traditionally been highly regulated, with limited protection provided to homeowners and reinsurance by the government. Today, after the occurrence of an earthquake, the reconstruction can be financed by transferring the risk to the capital markets with insurance linked securities (ILS) like catastrophic (CAT) bonds that would pass the risk on to investors or using the traditional reinsurance that would pass the risk on to reinsurers. 17 3 The catastrophic bonds In the mid-1990’s catastrophic bonds (CAT bonds), also named as Act of God or Insurancelinked bond, were developed to ease the transfer of catastrophic insurance risk from insurers, reinsurers and corporations (sponsors) to capital market investors. 3.1 Definition CAT bonds are bonds whose coupons and principal payments depend on the performance of a pool or index of natural catastrophe risks, or on the presence of specified trigger conditions. They protect sponsor companies from financial losses caused by large natural disasters by offering an alternative or complement to traditional reinsurance. CAT bonds provide risk transfer capacity for the sponsor’s layer of risk that is often not reinsured because of its high severity and low frequency level. They supply protection without the risk of loss due to a counterparty defaulting on a transaction (credit risk). CAT bonds usually have duration of one to five years, but the most common being three years. A multiyear term allows sponsors to prevent capacity at fixed costs, to anticipate risk management and portfolio changes and to amortize fixed costs over a period of years. For investors, a three years term bond avoids the reinvestment risk and effort of one year bonds, Clarke et al. (2005). CAT bonds are multi peril o single peril bonds. While sponsors prefer to cover as many risks as possible in a single CAT bond offering to reduce transaction costs and share multiple territories, investors prefer single peril contracts for having possibilities to assemble a risk portfolio. Furthermore, they offer attractive returns and reduce the portfolio risk, since CAT bonds defaults are uncorrelated with defaults of other securities. CAT bonds work like fully collateralized multi - year reinsurance contracts and are the major segment of the Insurance Linked Securities (ILS) market, Cizek et al. (2005). 18 3 3.2 The catastrophic bonds Structure of Cash flows - Timing The transaction involves four parties: the sponsor or ceding company (government agencies, insurers, reinsurers), the special purpose vehicle SPV (or issuer), the collateral and the investors (institutional investors, insurers, reinsurers, and hedge funds). The basic structure is shown in Figure 3.1. It can be summarized as follows: • Sponsor sets up a SPV as an issuer of the bond and a source of reinsurance protection. The SPV is typically structured as a Cayman Islands (whose common shares are held by a charitable trust) for a remote bankruptcy. • The issuer sells bonds to capital market investors and the proceeds are deposited in a collateral account, in which earnings from assets are collected and from which a floating rate is payed to the SPV. • The sponsor enters into a reinsurance or derivative contract with the issuer and pays him a premium. • The SPV usually gives quarterly coupon payments to the investors. The premium that the ceding company pays for the insurance coverage, and the investment bond proceeds that the SPV received from the collateral, are a source of interest or coupons paid to investors. • If there is no trigger event during the life of the bonds, the SPV gives the principal back to the investors with the final coupon or the generous interest. But if the specific catastrophic risk is triggered, the SPV pays the ceding according to the terms of the reinsurance contract and sometimes pays nothing or partially the principal and interest to the investors. Figure 3.1: CAT bond cash flows diagram. In case of event (red arrow), no event (blue arrow) 19 3 3.3 The catastrophic bonds Types Trigger mechanism There is a variety of trigger mechanisms to determine when the losses of a natural catastrophe should be covered by the CAT bond. These include the indemnity, the industry index, the pure parametric, the parametric index and the modeled loss trigger. Figure 3.2 shows a range of levels of basis risks and transparency to investors offered by each of these mechanisms. Figure 3.2: 3.3.1 Trigger mechanisms. Source: Dubinsky (2005). Indemnity trigger The indemnity trigger involves the actual loss of the ceding company. The ceding company receives reimbursement for its actual losses from the covered event, above the predetermined level of losses. It has no basis risk, i.e. there is no risk that, in the event of a covered loss, the payout determined by the bond calculation will differ from the actual loss incurred by the sponsor. This trigger closely replicates the traditional reinsurance, but it is exposed to catastrophic and operational risk of the ceding company. Additionally, the indemnity trigger faces asymmetric information problems as adverse selection, moral risk and not fully information access. There is adverse selection, when the ceding company tries to keep the most profitable parts of a portfolio and gives up the unprofitable ones. The moral risk rises when the ceding company modifies its underwriting policies or there is an increase in its claim payments at the expenses of a reduction in the coupon or principal value of the investors, Anderson et al.(1998). For example, in May 2003 the indemnity multi peril CAT bond called Residential Re 2003 Ltd. was issued by U.S.A.A Reinsurance with a value of $160 million for three years coverage, Dubinsky and Laster (2005). 20 3 3.3.2 The catastrophic bonds Industry index trigger With an industry index trigger, the ceding company recovers a proportion of total industry losses in excess of a predetermined point to the extent of the remainder of the principal. The ceding company is exposed to basis risk, since its own losses differs from that of the industry. An industry index trigger allows the ceding company to avoid detailed information disclosure to competitors and makes a transparent deal to investors when an independent party reports the industry loss, for example the Property Claim Services (PCS) in the United States of America. In addition to the adverse selection and moral hazard, it has an extended development period to determined coverage. Transactions based on the industry index trigger follow one of the next three approaches: parametric, industry loss or modeled loss. An example of this trigger is the SR Earthquake Fund CAT bond. It was issued by Swiss Re in July 1997, with a value of $137 million for two years coverage of earthquake risk in California. 3.3.3 Pure parametric index trigger The parametric index payouts are triggered by the occurrence of a catastrophic event with certain defined physical parameters, for example wind speed and location of a hurricane or the magnitude or location of an earthquake. It is transparent to investors and has a shorter development period, but it is subject to basis risk when the geographical distribution of the ceding company’s book of business differs from that of the CAT bond. The Parametric Re is an example of a parametric CAT bond. Its value was of $100 million and was issued by Tokyo Marine in November 1997 to cover earthquake risk in Tokyo for ten years. 3.3.4 Parametric index trigger The Parametric index trigger uses different weighted boxes to reflect the ceding company’s exposure to events in the area. Data from the parameters of the catastrophic event is collected at multiple reporting stations and then entered into specified formulas, which track losses of the ceding company’s portfolio. For example a Hurricane Index value is defined as, Dubinsky and Laster (2005): K I X wi (vi − L)n i=1 where K and n are constants, i is the relevant location, I is the total number of locations, wi indicates the weight of the location i defined in the contract, vi is the calculated peek gust wind speed at location i and L is a constant representing the threshold peek gust wind speed above which a damage exist. The Hurricane index is the sum of the storm damage at each location weighted by predefined location weights, which reflect the ceding company’s exposure at each location. The index value determines the loss payout. 21 3 The catastrophic bonds An example of this trigger is the PIONEER 2003 II-B CAT bond with a value of $12 million to cover wind for three years in Europe. It was issued by Swiss Re in June 2003. 3.3.5 Modeled loss trigger After a catastrophe occurs the physical parameters of the catastrophe are used by a modelling firm to estimate the expected losses to the ceding company’s portfolio. Instead of dealing with the company’s actual claims, the transaction is based on the estimates of the model. If the modeled losses are above a specified threshold, the bond is triggered. For investors, this trigger is less transparent since they cannot see through the framework of the modelling firm. This trigger offers a short payout period. In June 2001 Zurich Reinsurance issued a three year modeled loss CAT bond Trinom, for $162 million to cover multi peril, Clarke et al. (2006). 3.4 Default bonds and CAT bonds There is a similarity between default bonds prices and CAT bonds prices. In order to price a default bond the partial or complete loss of the principal value should be considered. Default bonds yield high returns, partly due to their potential default ability. CAT bonds yield high returns because of the unpredictable nature of the process of catastrophes. However, a difference between the CAT bonds and the high yield bonds is the information flow and the price processes. In a high yield bond the information about the issuer arrives constantly, while the information about a natural event is available only after it occurs. Whereas defaulting high yield bond prices are affected by business cycles and corporate events, CAT bond prices stay as a function of the expected loss calculation. 3.5 Rating CAT bonds are often rated by an agency such as Standard & Poor’s (S&P), Moody’s, or Fitch Ratings. Typically, a corporate bond is rated based on its probability of bankruptcy. A CAT bond is rated based on its probability of default due to a natural event like an earthquake or a hurricane, triggering loss of the principal. Standard & Poor’s focus is on attachment probability, Moody’s focus is on the expected loss and Fitch’s focus combines both the attachment probability and the expected loss. Many CAT bonds are rated BB+ by S&P, which is just below investment grade but better than non-investment grade, IAIS (2003). 22 3 3.6 The catastrophic bonds Comparison against reinsurance In the reinsurance, the insurance companies transfer their own portfolio risk to other reinsurance companies that manage their risk by a broader diversification. In an excess of loss (XOL) reinsurance contract, the reinsurance provides the ceding company with protection against a layer of losses above a certain level, in exchange for the payment of a premium. In a proportional reinsurance contract, the reinsurance provides capital on a proportional sharing basis, i.e. the ceding company is reimbursed for a fixed percentage of its losses in return for ceding a fixed percentage of premiums. From the sponsor perspective, the CAT bonds exhibit facts that can be compared with the reinsurance. These include, Dubinsky and Laster (2005): • The CAT bond price is relative according to the insurance underwriting cycle. Reinsurance prices are very volatile after the occurrence of a catastrophe. In these times, when the industry capital has short supply, the insurance industry increases rates in order to rebuild surplus. However in times of excess capacity, insurers lower rates, making CAT bond prices less attractive. • In terms of line of catastrophe business, reinsurance has the ability to diversify among many non-peak perils, whose prices are low because of their low capital charge (the amount of capital a reinsurer must hold per amount of coverage limit provided). For peak perils, CAT bonds and reinsurance may have comparable pricing due to the high capital charge. • Whereas CAT bonds provide fixed costs coverage over a multi-year period, insurers hedge the exposure of increasing rates for homeowners multi peril coverage by entering into a reinsurance contract, whose rates may be expensive in the market. • While the reinsurance can give rises to coverage and payment disagreements, CAT bonds offer a systematic claim procedure, i.e. unambiguous payment terms. Thereby the CAT bonds minimize the loss development period. • CAT bonds minimize the counterparty risk that can arise with the traditional reinsurance. For the reinsurance part of the CAT bond, the SPV invests the collateral in a high rated investment. The collateral’s default probability is uncorrelated with the occurrence of the natural catastrophes. • CAT bonds are attractive surplus alternatives. They can cover multiple perils over multi year terms and can respond easier to capital structure than the reinsurance. The structure of the CAT bonds keeps the transaction off the issuers’s balance sheet. From the investor perspective, CAT bonds also offer advantages, Dubinsky and Laster (2005): • CAT bonds have paid returns significantly in excess of return on corporate bonds with similar credit rating and maturities. Besides, as long as the CAT bonds are not triggered, the bonds give coupon payments to investors. 23 3 The catastrophic bonds • CAT bonds are a source of diversification. The CAT bonds risk shows no correlation with the risk of corporate bonds or equities. Adding a CAT bond into a portfolio reduces the portfolio risk, without changing the expected return. Hence, the risk - return profile improves in a portfolio. • The impact of adverse credit events on the CAT bonds is reduced. The CAT bond market may be vulnerable to catastrophic events in the insurance and reinsurance market, but not to widespread corporate defaults. 3.7 Pricing CAT bonds The evaluation of a CAT bond is affected by several variables. The CAT bond pricing involves the analysis of the underlying risk exposure, including the expected loss and the likelihood of different scenarios. One can estimate the risk of a natural catastrophe, using simulations of significant catastrophic events. From the simulated events, an artificial loss experience can be constructed to calculate the expected loss of a CAT bond. Modelling results are the main drivers of bond ratings and the bond price can be determined by looking at bonds with similar rating. 3.8 Market Prospects During the period 1997 - 2005, Guy Carpenter and MMC Securities Corporation reported that 69 catastrophe bonds have been issued with total risk limits of $10.65 billion, whose predominant sponsors were insurers and reinsurers. The CAT bond market has increased in the number and variety of investors. The secondary market liquidity has perhaps improved due to the increase of the size of individual peril issues and the growth in bonds outstanding, Clarke et al. (2006). Today, the catastrophe bond market features a increasing know-how that has helped investors and sponsors to move along the learning curve. The cost of issuance of CAT bonds has lowered thanks to reduction of coupons and transaction expenses, making CAT bonds more competitive with the reinsurance market. In spite of the market has suffered the first loss to a publicly disclosed CAT bond with the hurricane Katrina in 2005, the ILS market is optimistic to achieve a beyond growth trend of the CAT bond, Mooney (2005) and Clarke et al. (2006). 24 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond In order to reduce the exposure of Mexico to the impact of natural catastrophes and to recover quickly as soon as they occur, the government established the Mexico’s Fund for Natural Disasters (FONDEN) in 1996. In the presence of disaster, the FONDEN’s operational basics establish that local governments can declare a situation of emergency to get resources immediately from the fund to mitigate the effects, SHCP (2001). Since its creation this fund has suffered from problems of political economy. The contributions to the fund have been reduce since 2001. Before, there have been some years of low collection of taxes, causing no contributions to the fund. The FONDEN’s resources have been insufficient to meet the government’s obligations. Faced with the shortage of the FONDEN’s resources and the high probability of earthquake occurrence, the Mexican government decided to issue a parametric CAT bond against earthquake risk. The decision was taken because the instrument design protects and magnifies, with a degree of transparency, the resources of the trust. The CAT bond payment is based on some physical parameters of the underlying event (e.g. the magnitude M w), thereby there is no justification of losses. The parametric CAT bond helps the government with emergency services and rebuilding after a big earthquake. Moreover the CAT bond avoids the credit risk from the reinsurance, since the capital raised by issuing the CAT bond is invested in safe securities, which are held by a special purpose vehicle (SPV). In this chapter, the calibration of this parametric CAT bond is based on the estimation of the probability of earthquake from the two different parts of the CAT bond contract: from the reinsurance market and the capital market. In addition, the probability of earthquake is computed from historical data. As the probability of earthquakes depends on its intensity rate that describes the flow process of earthquakes, one estimates the intensity rate from the reinsurance market λ1 , from the capital markets λ2 and from historical data λ3 . Once the intensity rates are estimated, a comparative analysis between them is conducted to know whether the Mexican government was fairly buying insurance from Swiss Re or whether the latter was selling the bond to investors at a reasonable price. 25 4 4.1 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond Issue In May 2006, the Mexican government has sponsored the first parametric CAT bond for earthquakes in Mexico. It was issued by a special purpose Cayman Islands CAT-MEX Ltd. and structured by Swiss Re AG and Deutsche Bank AG. The $160 million CAT bond pays a tranche equal to the London Inter-Bank Offered Rate (LIBOR) plus 230 basis points, see Table 4.1. The CAT bond is part of a total coverage of $450 million provided by Swiss Re for three years against earthquake risk and with total premiums of $26 million. The government hired Air Worldwide Corporation to model the seismic risk and which detected nine seismic zones, see Figure 4.1. Given the federal governmental budget plan, just three out of these nine zones were defined in the transaction: zone 1, zone 2 and zone 3, with coverage of $150 million in each case, SHCP (2004). Issue Date May-06 Sponsor Mexican government SPV CAT-Mex Ltd Reinsurer Swiss Re Total size $160 million Risk Period 3 year Risk Earthquake Structure Parametric Spread LIBOR plus 230 basis points Table 4.1: Parametric Mexican CAT bond The CAT bond payment would be triggered if there is an event, i.e. an earthquake higher or equal than 8 M w hitting zone 1 or zone 2, or an earthquake higher or equal than 7.5 M w hitting zone 5, see Table 4.2. Zone Threshold u in M w ≥ to: Zone 1 8 Zone 2 8 Zone 5 7.5 Table 4.2: Thresholds u’s of the Mexican parametric CAT bond The cash flows diagram for the mexican CAT bond are described in Figure 4.2. CAT-MEX Ltd. is a special purpose Cayman Islands whose ordinary shares are held in charitable trust. It issues the bond that is placed among investors, who receive interests and get the principal back if there is no earthquake of certain strength. CAT-MEX Ltd. invests the proceeds in high quality assets within a collateral account. Simultaneous to the issuance of the bond, CAT-MEX Ltd. enters into a reinsurance contract with Swiss Re. The premium and the proceeds are used to make the coupon payments to the bondholders. In case of occurrence of a trigger event, an earthquake with a certain magnitude in any of the three defined zones in Mexico, Swiss Re pays 26 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond the covered insured amount to the government, which stops paying premiums at that time and investors sacrifices their full principal and coupons. The proceeds of the bond will serve to provide Swiss Re coverage for earthquakes in Mexico in connection with an insurance agreement that Swiss Re has entered into with the Natural Disasters Fund of Mexico. Figure 4.1: 4.2 Map of seismic regions in Mexico. Source: SHCP Calibrating the Mexican CAT bond Assuming perfect financial market, where there are no arbitrage opportunities, no transaction costs, no taxes, and no restrictions on short selling, Franke et al. (2000), the calibration of the parametric CAT bond is based on the estimation of the intensity rate that describe the flow process of earthquakes. Let (Ω, F, Ft , P ) be a probability space and Ft ⊂ F an increasing filtration, with time t ∈ [0, T ]. The arrival process of earthquakes or the number of earthquakes in the interval (0, t] is described by the process Nt≥0 . This process uses the times Ti when the ith earthquake occurs or the times between earthquakes Wi = Ti − Ti−1 . The earthquake process Nt in terms of Wi ’s is defined as: Nt = ∞ X I(Tn <t) n=1 27 (4.1) 4 Figure 4.2: The Mexican parametric CAT Bond Cash flows diagram of the Mexican CAT bond. In case of event (red arrow), no event (blue arrow). Since earthquakes can strike at any time during the year with the same probability, they suffer the loss of memory property P(X > x + y|X > y) = P(X > x), where X is a random variable. The arrival process of earthquakes Nt:t≥0 can be characterized with a Homogeneous Poisson Process (HPP), with intensity rate λ > 0 if, Cizek et al. (2005): • Nt is a point process governed by the Poisson law. • The waiting times Wi = Ti − T i − 1 are independent identically and exponentially distributed with intensity λ. The probability of no occurrence of an earthquake in the interval (0, t] is given by: P(Wi ≥ t) = e−λt Hence, the probability of occurrence of an earthquake is: P(Wi < t) = 1 − P(Wi ≥ t) = 1 − e−λt with density function: f (t) = λe−λt (4.2) where intensity rate λ > 0. To calibrate the parametric CAT bond, the probabilities of earthquake and the corresponding intensity rates describing the flow process of earthquakes are estimated from the two sides of the contract: from the reinsurance and the capital markets. These estimations are based 28 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond on actuarial principles. In addition the intensity rate from the historical data is computed and based on the intensity model, which is developed later in this chapter. Define λ1 as the intensity rate of the process of earthquakes from the reinsurance transaction part of the Mexican parametric CAT bond, λ2 be the intensity rate from the financial part and λ3 be the intensity rate from historical data. 4.2.1 Insurance market intensity: λ1 Assume a flat term structure of interest rates and consider a process of continuously compounded discount interest rates. Let H and J be random variables with values at time t and density functions f (h) and f (j) respectively. Denote H as the government’s payoff or the annually premiums that the government pays to Swiss Re for the three years reinsurance contract T = 3. Let J represent the Swiss Re’s payoff to the government or the covered insured amount in case of occurrence of an event over a three year period. Additionally, assume that the arrival process of earthquakes follows a HPP with intensity λ1 . Suppose that the non-arbitrage condition holds, a compounded discount actuarially fair insurance price at time t = 0 is: E He−trt = E Je−trt (4.3) i.e. the insurance premiums are equal to the value of the expected loss from earthquake, where: E He−trt = T Z he−trt λ1 e−λ1 t dt 0 and E Je−trt = Z T je−trt λ1 e−λ1 t dt 0 Notice that the expectations above involve the occurrence probability of the insured event. From the given information, the total premium value E [He−trt ] = $26 million and the covered insured amount j is equal to $450 million. Assume that the annual continously compounded discount interest rate is r = ln(1 + rt ) = 5.35%, constant and equal to the London InterBank Offered Rate (LIBOR) in June 2006, FannieMae (2006). Substituting these values in equation (4.3), it follows: Z 26 = 3 450λ1 e−t(rt +λ1 ) dt (4.4) 0 where 1 − e−λ1 t is the probability of occurrence of an earthquake. Hence, solving the nonlinear equation (4.4), one estimates the intensity rate from the reinsurance market λ1 equal to 0.0215. That means that the premium paid by the government to Swiss Re considers a probability of occurrence of an event in three years equal to 0.0624. In other words, Swiss Re expects 2.15 events in one hundred years. 29 4 4.2.2 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond Capital market intensity: λ2 The contract structure defines a coupon CAT bond, which pays to the investors the principal P at time to maturity T = 3 and gives coupons C every 3 months during the bond’s life in case of no event. If there is an event, the investors sacrifice their principal and coupons. These coupon bonds pay a fixed spread s over LIBOR. The spread rate s that CAT-MEX Ltd. offers to investors is equal to 230 basis points over LIBOR. The LIBOR is assumed to be r = 5.35% in June 2006, FannieMae (2006). The principal or the initial investors payoff from the bond purchase is equal to P = $160 million. The fixed coupons payment C have a value (in $ million) of: C= r+s 4 P = 5.35% + 2.3% 4 (4.5) 160 = 3.06 Let G be a time dependent random variable that defines the investors’ gain from investing in the bond, which consists of the principal and coupons. Consider that the annual discretely compounded discount interest rate is rt = er − 1 = 5.5%, where r is the annual continuously compounded discount interest rate LIBOR equal to r = 5.35%. Moreover, assume that the arrival process of earthquakes follows a HPP with intensity λ2 . In the non-arbitrage framework, a discretely discount fair bond price at time t = 0 is given by: " t # 1 P =E G 1 + rt (4.6) where " E G 1 1 + rt t # = 12 X t=1 1 1 + rt 4t −λ2 4t Ce + 1 1 + rt T P e−λ2 T In this case, the investors receive 12 coupons during 3 years and its principal P at maturity T = 3. Hence, substituting the values of the principal P = $160 million and the coupons C = $3.06 million in equation (4.6), it follows: 160 = 12 X 3.06 t=1 e−λ2 1 + rt 4t + 160e−3λ2 (1 + rt )3 (4.7) Solving the equation (4.7), the intensity rate from the capital market λ2 is equal to 0.0222. In other words, the capital market estimates a probability of occurrence of an event equal to 0.0644, equivalently to 2.22 events in one hundred years. 4.2.3 Historical Intensity: λ3 Additionally to the estimation of the intensity rate for the reinsurance and the capital markets, the historical intensity rate that describes the flow process of earthquakes λ3 is calculated. The data was provided by the National Institute of Seismology in Mexico (SSN). It describes the time t, the depth d, the magnitude M w and the epicenters of earthquakes higher than 6.5 M w 30 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond occurred in the country from the year 1900 to 2003. Table 4.3 shows some descriptive statistics for the variables time t, depth d and magnitude M w of the earthquake historical data that considers 192 observations. Descriptive t d Mw Minimum 1900 0 6.5 Maximum 2003 200 8.2 Mean 1951 39.54 6.9 Median 1950 33 6.9 Variance 1573.69 0.14 Sdt. Error 39.66 0.37 25% Quantile 12 6.6 75% Quantile 53 7.1 Skewnewss 1.58 0.92 Kurtosis 5.63 3.25 Excess 2.63 0.25 Nr. obs. 192 192 192 Distinct obs. 82 54 18 Table 4.3: Descriptive statistics for the variables time t, depth d and magnitude M w of the 1900-2003 earthquake data. The frequency of the magnitude M w of earthquakes of the historical data is displayed in Table 4.4. Notice that earthquakes less than 6.5 M w were not taken into account because of their high frequency and low loss impact. Mw Frequency Percent % Cumulative 6.5 30 16% 16% 6.6 21 11% 27% 6.7 28 15% 41% 6.8 14 7% 48% 6.9 22 12% 60% 7 18 9% 69% 7.1 12 6% 76% 7.2 7 4% 79% 7.3 8 4% 83% 7.4 9 5% 88% 7.5 6 3% 91% 7.6 9 5% 96% 7.7 1 1% 96% 7.8 3 2% 98% 7.9 1 1% 98% 8 1 1% 99% 8.1 1 1% 100% 8.2 1 1% 100% Table 4.4: Frequency of the magnitude M w for the 1900-2003 earthquake data 31 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond Table 4.5 shows the frequency of the zones where the earthquakes have occurred. Almost 50% of the earthquakes has occurred in the insured zones, mainly in zone 2. This confirms the high earthquake activity in these zones. Zone Frequency Percent % Cumulative 1 30 16% 16% 2 42 22% 38% 5 18 9% 47% Other 102 53% 100% Table 4.5: Frequency of the earthquake location for the 1900-2003 earthquake data Let M wi be independent and identically distributed random variables, indicating the magnitude M w of the ith earthquake at time t. The estimation of the historical λ3 is based on the intensity model. This model assumes that there exist independent identically random variables i , called trigger events, that characterize earthquakes with magnitude M wi higher than a defined threshold u. Recalling again the fact that the arrival process of earthquakes follows a Poisson process Nt with intensity λ > 0, whose times between earthquakes Wi are exponentially distributed with intensity λ, a new process Bt is defined to characterize the trigger event process: Bt = Nt X I{i } = i=1 Nt X I{M wi ≥u} (4.8) i=1 where Nt is the Poisson process describing the number of earthquakes. Bt is a process which counts only earthquakes that trigger the CAT bond’s payoff. However, the dataset contains only three such events, what leads to the calibration of the intensity of Bt based on only two waiting times. Therefore in order to compute λ3 , consider the process Bt and define p as the probability of occurrence of a trigger event conditional on the occurrence of the earthquake. Then the probability of no event up to time t is given by: P(N = 0) + P(Nt = 1)(1 − p) + P(Nt = 2)(1 − p)2 + . . . ∞ X = P(Nt = k)(1 − p)k P(Bt = 0) = = = k=0 ∞ X k=0 ∞ X k=0 (λt)k (−λt) e (1 − p)k k! (λ(1 − p)t)k (−λt) −λ(1−p)t λ(1−p)t e e e k! by definition of the Poisson distribution function and since, ∞ X (λ(1 − p)t)k k=0 k! e−λ(1−p)t = 1 32 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond then P(Bt = 0) = e−λpt = e−λ3 t (4.9) Now the calibration of the λ3 can be decomposed into the calibration of the intensity of all earthquakes with a magnitude higher than 6.5 M w and the estimation of the probability of the trigger event. As mentioned before, in the historical data three out of 192 earthquakes are identified as trigger events within the insured zones, i.e. their magnitude M w was higher than the defined thresholds u’s in Table 4.2 and which were defined by the modelling company. The probability of occurrence 3 . The estimation of the annual intensity is obtained of the trigger event is equal to p = 192 by taking the mean of the daily number of earthquakes times 360 i.e. λ = (0.005140)(360) equal to 1.8504. Consequently the annual historical intensity rate for a trigger event is equal 3 to λ3 = λp = 1.8504 192 = 0.0289. In other words, approximately 2.89 events are expected to occur in the designated areas of the country within one hundred years. Table 4.6 displays the date, the zone and the magnitude M w of the three trigger events. Year Mw Zone 1957 7.8 5 1985 8.1 1 1995 8 1 Table 4.6: Trigger events occurred in the insured zones Table 4.7 summarizes the values of the intensities rates λ’s and the probabilities of occurrence of a trigger event in one and three years. Whereas the reinsurance market expects 2.15 events to occur in one hundred years, the capital market anticipates 2.22 events and the historical data predicts 2.89 events. Observe that the value of the λ3 depends on the time period of the historical data. The intensity rate λ3 = 0.0289 is estimated from the years 1900 to 2003 and it is not very accurate since it is based on three events only. For a different period, λ3 might be smaller than λ1 or λ2 . λ1 λ2 λ3 Intensity 0.0215 0.0222 0.0289 Probability of event in 1 year 0.0212 0.0219 0.0284 Probability of event in 3 year 0.0624 0.0644 0.0830 No. expected events in 100 years 2.1555 2.2223 2.8912 Table 4.7: Calibration of intensity rates: the intensity rate from the reinsurance market λ1 , the intensity rate from the capital market λ2 and the historical intensity rate λ3 . CMXCMktInt.xpl CMXRMktInt.xpl 33 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond The magnitude of earthquakes above 6.5 M w that occurred in Mexico during the years 1990 to 2003 are illustrated in Figure 4.3. It also indicates the earthquakes that occurred in the insured zones and those whose magnitude were higher than the defined thresholds u’s by the modelling 7.5 6.5 7 Magnitude (Mw) 8 company. The three trigger events are identified with filled circles. 1900 Figure 4.3: 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 Magnitude of trigger events (filled circles), earthquakes in zone 1 (black circles), earthquakes in zone 2 (green circles), earthquakes in zone 5 (magenta circles), earthquakes out of insured zones (blue circles) CMX01.xpl Apparently the difference between the intensity rates λ1 , λ2 and λ3 seems to be insignificant, but for the government it has a financial and social repercussion since the intensity rate of the flow process of earthquakes influences the price of the parametric CAT bond that will help the government to obtain resources after a big earthquake. The small difference between the intensity rates λ1 and λ2 might be explained by the absence of the public and liquid market of earthquake risk in the reinsurance market, just limited information is available. This might cause the pricing in the reinsurance market to be less transparent than pricing in the capital markets. Another reason why the intensity rate λ2 is higher than the intensity rate λ1 might be because contracts in the capital market are more expensive than contracts in the reinsurance market. This is assumed because the cost of risk capital (the required return necessary to make a capital budgeting project) in the capital markets is higher than that in the reinsurance market. Moreover the reinsurance contract might be less expensive than the CAT bond because of the associated risk of default. A CAT bond presents no credit risk as the proceeds of the bond are held in a SPV (CAT-Mex Ltd.), a transaction off the Swiss Re’s balance sheet. The differences between the intensity rates λ1 and λ3 or λ2 and λ3 could be explained by the 34 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond presence of just three trigger events in the historical data. The estimation of λ3 is not very precise since it is based on the time period of the historical data. A different period could lead to a lower historical intensity rate. The accuracy of λ3 plays an important role when one considers it as a reference intensity rate. It involves different interpretations about the calibration of the parametric CAT bond. One could expect that risk adverse companies that insure against the largest catastrophic losses could pay higher prices, since the reinsurance market imperfections might explain the differences between theory and observed insurer behaviour. Froot (1999) considers that the reinsurance market suffers from a shortage of capital, particularly after a catastrophic event occurred. Scarce capital would give reinsurance firms the ability to gain more market power that will enable them to charge higher premiums than expected. Supposing that λ3 would be the real intensity rate describing the flow of process of earthquakes, the results in Table 4.7 demonstrate that, contrary to the theory predictions, the Mexican government paid total premiums of $26 million that is 0.75 times the real actuarially fair one ($34.49 million), which is obtained by substituting the historical intensity λ3 = 0.0289 in equation (4.4), that is: Z 3 450λ3 e−t(rt +λ3 ) dt = 34.49 0 At first glance, it appears that either the government saves $8.492 million ($34.3million - $26 million) in transaction costs from transferring the seismic risk with a reinsurance contract or that Swiss Re is underestimating the occurrence probability of a trigger event. This is not a valid argument because the actuarially fair reinsurance price assumes that the coverage payout depends only on the loss of the insured event. In reality, the reinsurance market and the coverage payouts are exposed to other risks, such as the credit risk, that can affect the value of the premium. Considering this fact, the probability that Swiss Re will default over the next three years could be approximately equal to the price discount that the Government gets in the ≤ 32.6%). risk transfer of earthquake risk ( <$8.492 $26 Another explanation of the low premiums for covering the seismic risk might be the mix of the reinsurance contract and the CAT bond. Since the $160 million CAT bond is part of a total coverage of $450 million, the reinsurance company transfers 35% of the total seismic risk to the investors, who effectively are betting that a trigger event will not hit specified regions in Mexico in the next three years. If there is no event, the money and interests are returned to the investors. If there is an event, Swiss Re must pay to the government $290 million from the reinsurance part and $160 million from the CAT bond to cover the insured loss of $450 million. The value of the premium for $290 million coverage with intensity rate λ1 is: Z 3 290λ1 e−t(rt +λ1 ) dt = 16.751 0 Then the total premium of $26 million that the government pays to Swiss Re to get a coverage of $450 million in case of a trigger event might consist of $16.751 million premium from the reinsurance part and the CAT bond and $9.245 million ($26 million - $16.751 million) for 35 4 The Mexican parametric CAT Bond transaction costs or the management added value or for coupon payments. The proceeds of the bond that are invested in high quality assets and part of the premium are used to pay the coupons. Under the assumption that the intensity rate λ3 would be the real intensity rate describing the flow process of earthquakes, the financial strategy of the government, a mix of reinsurance and CAT bonds is optimal in the sense that it provides coverage of $450 million against seismic risk for a lower cost than the reinsurance itself, which has an actuarially fair premium equal to $34.49 million. However, this financial strategy of the government does not eliminate completely the costs imposed by market imperfections. 36 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico In this chapter, under the assumptions of non-arbitrage and continuous trading, the pricing of a modeled loss CAT bond for earthquakes is examined. The importance of a modeled loss trigger mechanism is that it takes other variables into account that can affect the value of the losses, for example not only considers the magnitude M w of the earthquake, but also the depth d, impact on cities, etc. Besides, the payout of the bond will be based on historical and estimated losses. The pricing methodology is based on the article of Barishnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003). In order to determine the CAT bond prices, they modelled the stochastic process underlying the CAT bond as a compound doubly stochastic Poisson process. An application of their results is conducted to the Mexican earthquake data from the National Institute of Seismology in Mexico (SSN) and to its corresponding loss data that was built by López (2003). In particular, the key drivers of the CAT bonds pricing are studied: the frequency and severity of earthquakes. In section 5.1 the loss data set and its adjustments are discussed. Section 5.2 presents different loss models, the use of the EM algorithm to treat the missing data and the estimation of the distribution functions which fit the modeled loss in a suitable form. In section 5.3, different arrival processes of earthquakes are examined. This section reveals that the homogenous Poisson process is the best process governing the flow of earthquakes, whose intensity rate λ is estimated in the previous chapter. Section 5.4 introduces the compound doubly stochastic Poisson pricing methodology from Baryshnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003). This methodology together with Monte Carlo simulations is applied to the studied data to find the prices of zero and coupon CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico. The values of bonds are associated to the modeled loss data, the threshold level and the expiration time. In order to check how robust the modeled loss with respect to the CAT bond prices is, Monte Carlo simulations are used once more. 37 5 5.1 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Data In the past, Mexico did not have specialized institutions which could quantify the losses caused by earthquakes. Empirical studies are conducted to the loss data that López (2003) built for the earthquakes, which were obtained from the National Institute of Seismology in Mexico (SSN). The historical losses of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during the years 1900 - 2003 were adjusted to the population growth, the inflation and the exchange rate (peso/dollar) and were converted to USD of 1990. The annual Consumer Price Index (1860-2003) was used for the inflation adjustment and the Average Parity Dollar-Peso (1821-1997) was used for the exchange rate adjustment, both provided by the U.S. Department of Labour. For the population adjustment, the annual population per Mexican Federation (1900-2003) provided by the National Institute of Geographical and Information Statistics in Mexico (INEGI) was used, López (2003). Table 5.1 describes some descriptive statistics for the variable time t, depth d, magnitude M w and adjusted loss X of the historical data. From 1900 to 2003, the data considers 192 earthquakes higher than 6.5 M w and 24 of them with financial adjusted losses. The adjusted losses in million US dollar and the corresponding magnitude M w of earthquakes occurred in Mexico are illustrated in Figure 5.1. The peaks mark the occurrence of the 8.1 M w earthquake in 1985 and the 7.4 M w earthquake in 1999. The earthquake in 1932 had the highest magnitude in the historical data (8.2 M w), but its losses are not big enough compared to the other earthquakes. Descriptive t d Mw X ($ million) Minimum 1900 0 6.5 10.73 Maximum 2003 200 8.2 0 Mean 1951 39.54 6.93 1443.69 Median 1950 33 6.9 0 Variance - 1573.69 0.14 11060.5 Sdt. Error - 39.66 0.37 105.16 25% Quantile 1928 12 6.6 0 75% Quantile 1979 53 7.1 0 Skewnewss - 1.58 0.92 13.19 Kurtosis - 5.63 3.25 179.52 Excess - 2.63 0.25 176.52 Nr. obs. 192 192 192 192 Distinct obs. 82 54 18 24 Table 5.1: Descriptive statistics for the variables time t, depth d, magnitude M w and loss X of the loss historical data 38 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 7.5 Magnitude (Mw) 10 6.5 7 5 0 Adjusted Losses (USD million)*E2 8 5 1900 1920 Figure 5.1: 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 1900 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 Plot of adjusted Losses (left panel) and the magnitude M w (right panel) of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during the years 1900-2003. CMX02.xpl 5.2 Earthquake severity Let (Ω, F, Ft , P ) be a probability space and Ft ⊂ F an increasing filtration representing the history of the past and present of some underlying finance process, with time t ∈ [0, T ]. Let ∞ {Xk }k=1 be independent and identically random variables characterizing the loss severities caused by earthquakes. In this section the modelling of the loss severity of earthquakes is studied. 5.2.1 Modeled loss In order to predict future losses, the use of historical loss data is very problematic, because of the disproportional population growth within seismic areas and the change of the properties value, building materials and construction designs. A modeled loss trigger mechanism considers other variables that affect the value of the losses, for example it takes the physical characteristics of the earthquakes into account. Earthquake losses can be affected by several variables such as the magnitude M w, the depth d of the earthquake or by dummy variables, for example whether the earthquake had impact on Mexico City (the most important zone in the country). Experts in geography describe that the earthquake losses are directly proportional to the magnitude M w and inversely proportional to the depth of the earthquake, Rosenblueth (2000). 39 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico The scatter plots in Figure 5.2 show the relationships of the adjusted losses Xk (vertical axis) of the historical data with respect to the variable magnitude M w, depth d and the dummy indicator of the earthquake impact on Mexico City I(0,1) . The data reports that 15.6% of the earthquakes had impact on the country’s capital. Since the data includes two outliers or two observations that are away from the mean value see Figure 5.1, the scatter plots in Figure 5.3 exclude the 8.1 M w earthquake in 1985 and in Figure 5.4 the scatter plots do not consider the 8.1 M w earthquake in 1985 and the 7.4 M w earthquake in 1999. Note that when all the historical adjusted losses are considered, they are directly proportional to the time t and the magnitude M w, and inversely proportional to the depth d. However, when the outliers are excluded, the adjusted losses are inversely proportional to the time, magnitude and depth. This reflects the importance of the outliers. The 1985 earthquake of 8.1 M w had payouts of four billion dollars or its equivalent adjustment of 1443.69 million dollars. When this outlier is eliminated, the relationship between the adjusted losses and the variables time t and magnitude M w changes. Once observing the relationships between the variables in the scatter plots, the approach to get the estimated loss is by means of the linear regression that is defined as, Härdle and Simar (2003): x = α + β1 yi1 + . . . + βp yip + i ; i = 1, . . . , n. (5.1) where x(n × 1) is a vector of observations on the response variable, y(n × p) is a data matrix on the p explanatory variables, α is the intercept, βi with i = 1 . . . n are the coefficients of the variables and i the errors. The linear regression loss models in Table 5.2 are applied to the historical earthquake loss data. Since losses are positive and greater than zero, Xk ≥ 0, the dependent variable in the linear regression models is the natural logarithm of the loss ln(X). The independent variables are the magnitude M w, the logarithm of the magnitude ln(M w), the depth d, the dummy indicator of the earthquake impact on Mexico City I(0,1) and interactions of variables, like M w · d or ln(M w)d. Notice in Table 5.2 that the logarithm of the depth ln(d) is not used, as the depth d of an earthquake can be zero. The criterion to select the best modeled loss is given by the highest coefficient of determination r2 , which describes the percentage of the explained variation over the total variation, Härdle and Simar (2003): Pn (x̂2 − x̄)2 r2 = Pnt=1 2i 2 t=1 (xi − x̄) (5.2) where x̂i is the predicted value and x̄ is the mean of the values xi . Table 5.2 display the coefficients of determination for each of the proposed linear regresion models of the historical 2 adjusted loss data rLR1 . It also provides the coefficients of determination for the data without 2 the observation of the earthquake in 1985 rLR2 and for the data without the outliers of the 2 earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 rLR3 . Observe that the dummy variable I(0,1) has no significant impact on the loss models 6 and 22, 7 and 24, 9 and 25. 40 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico The standard errors are also estimated for each of the loss models of the historical adjusted loss data (SELR1 ), for the case without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (SELR2 ) and for the case without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (SELR3 ). Table 5.3 shows the standard errors (SE) that are defined as: σ 1 SE(β̂) = V ar(β̂) 2 = (5.3) 1 (n · sY Y ) 2 where β̂ is the coefficients estimator, n is the number of variables and sY Y is the empirical 10 0 0 5 Adjusted Losses (USD million)*E2 10 5 Adjusted Losses (USD million)*E2 covariance matrix. 20 40 Depth (d) 0 0.5 Impact in Mexico city (I(0,1)) 60 5 10 5 0 10 2000 Adjusted Losses (USD million)*E2 1950 Years (t) 0 0 Adjusted Losses (USD million)*E2 1900 6.5 Figure 5.2: 7 7.5 Magnitude (Mw) 8 1 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d (Upper panel), the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) (Lower panel) CMX031.xpl 41 100 0 0 50 100 Adjusted Losses (USD million) Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 50 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 5 20 40 Depth (d) 0 0.5 Impact in Mexico city (I(0,1)) 60 0 50 100 50 0 100 2000 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 1950 Years (t) 0 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 1900 6.5 Figure 5.3: 7 7.5 Magnitude (Mw) 8 1 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d (Upper panel), the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) (Lower panel), without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. CMX032.xpl 42 0 0 50 Adjusted Losses (USD million) Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 50 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 5 20 40 Depth (d) 0 0.5 Impact in Mexico city (I(0,1)) 60 0 50 0 50 2000 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 1950 Years (t) 0 Adjusted Losses (USD million) 1900 6.5 Figure 5.4: 7 7.5 Magnitude (Mw) 8 1 Plot of adjusted losses with the time t, the depth d (Upper panel), the magnitude M w and the dummy variable I(0,1) (Lower panel), without the outliers of the 1985 & 1999 earthquakes CMX033.xpl 43 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 2 rLR1 2 rLR2 Mw 0.015 0.002 0.004 ln(M w) 0.013 0.002 0.005 d 0.151 0.130 0.111 d 0.154 0.138 0.123 0.153 0.138 0.125 0.220 0.147 0.127 Mw · d 0.210 0.146 0.126 d ln(M w) · d 0.225 0.150 0.129 d ln(M w) · d 0.216 0.148 0.128 I(0,1) 0.028 0.002 0.006 I(0,1) 0.027 0.002 0.007 0.170 0.130 0.115 0.172 0.137 0.121 0.171 0.134 0.118 0.171 0.139 0.127 0.170 0.139 0.128 0.210 0.146 0.128 ln(M w) · d 0.174 0.140 0.128 I(0,1) ln(M w) · d 0.173 0.140 0.129 d I(0,1) Mw · d 0.172 0.144 0.128 d I(0,1) ln(M w) · d 0.172 0.145 0.129 d I(0,1) Mw · d 0.220 0.148 0.128 d I(0,1) ln(M w) · d 0.226 0.151 0.129 d I(0,1) Mw · d 0.210 0.146 0.128 d I(0,1) ln(M w) · d 0.216 0.149 0.129 Model y x1 1 ln(x) 2 ln(x) 3 ln(x) 4 ln(x) 5 ln(x) ln(M w) d 6 ln(x) Mw d Mw · d 7 ln(x) ln(M w) d 8 ln(x) Mw 9 ln(x) ln(M w) 10 ln(x) Mw 11 ln(x) ln(M w) 12 ln(x) 13 ln(x) I(0,1) Mw · d 14 ln(x) I(0,1) ln(M w) · d 15 ln(x) Mw d I(0,1) 16 ln(x) ln(M w) d I(0,1) 17 ln(x) ln(M w) d I(0,1) Mw · d 18 ln(x) Mw I(0,1) 19 ln(x) ln(M w) 20 ln(x) 21 ln(x) 22 ln(x) Mw 23 ln(x) Mw 24 ln(x) ln(M w) 25 ln(x) ln(M w) Mw x2 d x3 x4 I(0,1) 2 rLR3 Table 5.2: Coefficients of determination of the linear regression models applied 2 to the adjusted loss data (rLR1 ), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 2 2 (rLR2 ) and, without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (rLR3 ) Under the selection criterion, the highest r2 is equal to 0.2260 and it corresponds to the model number 23: ln(x) = −27.99 + 2.10M w + 4.44d − 0.15I(0,1) − 1.11 ln(M w) · d For the case without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985, the highest r2 is equal to 0.1510 and it corresponds to the model number 23: ln(x) = −7.38 + 0.97M w + 1.51d − 0.19I(0,1) − 0.52 ln(M w) · d For the case without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999, the highest r2 is equal to 0.1299, which also corresponds to the model number 23: ln(x) = 1.3037 + 0.4094M w + 0.2375d + 0.1836I(0,1) − 0.2361 ln(M w) · d Observe that the estimated regression coefficients are very sensitive to outliers. The estimated earthquake losses generated by the best modeled loss, number 23, are plotted in Figure 5.5. 44 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Model SELR1 SELR2 SELR3 1 2.9970 2.8289 2.7853 2 2.9996 2.8286 2.7844 3 2.7817 2.6414 2.6314 4 2.8452 2.6972 2.6853 5 2.8466 2.6960 2.6834 6 2.8036 2.7559 2.7580 7 2.8213 2.7582 2.7584 8 2.7941 2.7517 2.7546 9 2.8105 2.7543 2.7557 10 3.0506 2.9024 2.8590 11 3.0526 2.9020 2.8580 12 2.8192 2.7090 2.6986 13 2.8159 2.6977 2.6883 14 2.8165 2.7027 2.6928 15 2.8903 2.7698 2.7573 16 2.8911 2.7686 2.7554 17 2.8986 2.8379 2.8398 18 2.8849 2.7677 2.7565 19 2.8861 2.7668 2.7548 20 2.8890 2.7612 2.7559 21 2.8880 2.7592 2.7537 22 2.8802 2.8352 2.8407 23 2.8698 2.8302 2.8383 24 2.8986 2.8379 2.8398 25 2.8875 2.8335 2.8384 Table 5.3: Standard errors of the linear regression models applied to the adjusted loss data (SELR1 ), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (SELR2 ) and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (SELR3 ) EM algorithm Since 23 out of 192 observations have information about earthquake losses, it is necessary to treat the missing data of losses for a further analysis. An approach to deal with the missing data is the Expectation - Maximum algorithm (EM). This algorithm consists of omitting the cases with missing data and running a regression on what remains. The regression coefficient will be used to estimate the missing data. After this estimation step, a new regression will be done over the complete data (including estimated values). With the new regression coefficients, the missing data is re-estimated. This process will continue until the estimates are adjusted to a given model sampling error, i.e. there is not longer a noticeable change. This is called the maximization step. The solution from the EM algorithm is better than the elimination of the missing data, but it will still underestimate the standard errors of the coefficients. There are other alternatives that will be better than the ones obtained by the EM algorithm, but they assume a distribution of 45 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico the variables with missing data (usually the multivariate normal distribution), Howell (1998). To fill the missing data of losses, the EM algorithm with linear regression was applied to the estimated loss datas of the best loss models (number 8, 22, 23, 24 and 25) and to the historical adjusted loss data. An interesting result is that after applying 1000 iterations and a given sampling error of 0.002, the algorithm converges fairly rapidly, meaning that the estimated 30 20 10 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million) 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 1900 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 15 10 5 0 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million) 20 1900 0 50 0 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million) 100 40 coefficients do not show up a significant change from one iteration to another. 1900 Figure 5.5: 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 Modeled losses of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during 1990-2003 (upper left panel), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (upper right panel) and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (lower panel) CMXmyEMalgorithm.xpl Table 5.4 describes the descriptive statistics for the historical adjusted loss data, for the esti- 46 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico mated loss data obtained with the best linear regression model (number 23) and for the mix of historical with estimated loss data using the EM algorithm. The same procedure is applied for the case without the outliers of 1985 and 1999. Considering the importance of the historical data, from now on the loss data of earthquakes in Mexico considers historical and estimated losses. Descriptive HL1 EL1 HEL1 HL2 EL2 HEL2 HL3 EL3 HEL3 Minimum Maximum 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 0.00 1443.69 100.70 1443.69 146.54 39.59 146.54 96.32 22.79 96.32 Mean 10.7309 8.68 17.56 3.23 7.83 10.14 2.47 7.12 8.91 Median 0.00 4.30 4.30 0.00 5.30 5.43 0.00 4.54 4.90 Variance 11060.50 180.16 11022 254.87 59.23 268.01 12.12 43.49 159.86 Sdt. Error 105.17 13.42 104.99 15.96 7.70 16.37 146.97 6.59 12.64 25% Quantile 0.00 2.95 2.95 0.00 2.46 2.20 0.00 1.49 1.25 75% Quantile 0.00 7.94 8.14 0.00 10.66 10.97 0.00 11.03 12.22 Skewnewss 13.19 3.87 13.07 6.25 1.43 4.78 5.84 0.77 3.93 Kurtosis 179.53 21.94 177.36 46.32 4.79 33.16 38.66 2.25 23.58 Excess 176.53 18.94 174.36 43.32 1.79 30.16 35.66 -0.75 20.58 Nr. obs. 192 192 192 191 191 191 190 190 190 Diff. obs. 24 129 137 23 128 136 22 127 135 Table 5.4: Descriptive statistics for the historical adjusted losses (HL1 ), estimated losses (EL1 ), historical-estimated losses (HE1 ) of the modeled loss number 23, without the outlier of earthquake in 1985 (HL2 , EL2 , HEL2 ) and without the outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (HL3 , EL3 , HEL3 ) Figure 5.6 depicts the historical and estimated losses caused by earthquakes, given in million dollars, for the modeled loss number 23. The peaks of the picture on the upper left panel remark the occurrence of the earthquake in September 1985 and September 1999. Their influence is notably important. 5.2.2 Loss Distribution The lack of past data or missing information about losses and other data for risk analysis make the derivation of the loss distribution from catastrophic natural events data a difficult task. In this subsection, the derivation of the distribution of losses caused by earthquakes is covered, using the empirical, the analytical and the moment approach. The mean excess function, the Goodness of fit and the limited expected value function help to find the accurate analytical loss distribution. Empirical Method When there is a large volume of data, the empirical method is the most appropriate approach to find the analytical loss distribution. In this method a smooth estimate of the cumulative 47 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 100 50 1900 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 0 50 1920 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million) 1900 0 5 10 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million) Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 0 Adjusted EQ catastrophe claims (USD million)*E2 5 1900 Figure 5.6: 1920 1940 1960 Years (t) 1980 2000 Historical and modeled losses of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during 1990-2003 (upper left panel), without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (upper right panel), without outliers of the earthquakes in 1985 and 1999 (lower panel) CMXmyEMalgorithm.xpl 48 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico distribution function (cdf) is attained. For a sample of observation x1 , ...., xn the empirical distribution function (edf) is a piecewise constant function with jumps of size 1 n at points xi . It is defined as: Fn (x) = 1 #i : xi ≤ x n (5.4) Analytical Methods The analytical approach finds an analytical expression which fits the observed data. This method is appropriate, especially when the observations are too sparse. Due to their strongly skewed nature, the loss distributions are usually heavy tailed. The log-normal, Pareto, Burr, Gamma, Exponential and Weibull distributions or power-law distributions are often proposed in the literature to depict loss continuous distributions of certain catastrophic natural events, Barton and Nishenko (1994). In the domain R+ , Burnecki et al. (2000): • Log-normal distribution, with cdf: Z x (ln y−µ)2 1 ln x − µ √ = F (x) = φ e− 2σ2 dy, x > 0, σ > 0, µ ∈ R σ 2πσy 0 (5.5) where φ(x) is the standard normal distribution function (with mean 0 and variance 1). • Pareto distribution, with cdf: F (x) = 1 − λ λ+x α , x > 0, α > 0, λ > 0 (5.6) , x > 0, α > 0, λ > 0, τ > 0 (5.7) • Burr distribution, with cdf: F (x) = 1 − λ λ + xτ α • Gamma distribution, with cdf: Z x −y 1 F (x) = y α−1 e β dy, x > 0, α > 0, β > 0 α Γ(α)β 0 (5.8) • Exponential distribution, with cdf: F (x) = 1 − e−βx , x > 0 (5.9) • Weibull distribution, with cdf: τ F (x) = 1 − eβx , x > 0, τ > 0 (5.10) Moment Method This approach consists of calculating the moments of the distribution. However, using the first four moments (mean, variance, skewness and kurtosis) does not fully characterize the shape of a distribution and the observed data can be poorly fitted. More information about the moment method can be found in Daykin et al. (1994). 49 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Mean excess function In order to find an accurate loss distribution that fits the loss data one can also compare the shapes of the empirical and the theoretical mean excess function. Given a loss random variable X, the mean excess function (MEF) is the expected payment per insured loss with a fixed amount deductible of x i.e. the mean excess function restricts a random variable X given that it exceeds a certain level x: R∞ 1 − F (u)du 1 − F (x) x e(x) = E(X − x|X > x) = (5.11) The empirical mean excess function is defined as: P ên (x) = xi −x #i : xi > x xi >x The next mean excess functions (MEF) are considered to find a proper shape of the analytical distribution to the losses: • Log-normal distribution: n o 2 2 µ+ σ2 1 − Φ ln x−µ−σ e σ n o e(x) = −x ln x−µ 1−Φ σ • Pareto distribution: λ+x ,α > 1 α−1 e(x) = • Burr distribution: −α 1 λ τ Γ α − τ1 Γ 1 + τ1 λ Γ(α) λ + xτ 1 1 xτ · 1 − B 1 + ,α − , −x τ τ λ + xτ e(x) = where Z ∞ Γ(α) = y α−1 e−y dy 0 and B(a, b, x) = Γ(a + b) Γ(a)Γ(b) Z x y x−1 (1 − y)b−1 dy 0 • Gamma distribution: e(x) = α(1 − F (x, α + 1, β)) −x β(1 − F (x, α, β)) where F (x, α, β) is the equation (5.8). • Exponential distribution: e(x) = 50 1 β 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico • Weibull distribution: e(x) = Γ(1 + τ1 ) 1 βτ τ 1 1 − Γ 1 + , βxτ eβx − x τ Notice that the MEF of the exponential distribution is constant since this distribution function suffers the loss of memory property. Whether the information X > x is given or not, the expected value of X − x equals to the expected value of x i.e. as if one started at x = 0: E(X − x) = E(x) = 1 β. Thus, to find the shape of the MEF one compares the distribution of X with the exponential distribution. When the distribution of X has heavier tails than the exponential distribution the MEF increases and it decreases when the distribution of X shows lighter tails. Figure 5.7 depicts the empirical mean excess functions for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico with and without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. The left panel shows an increasing pattern for the ên (x), pointing out that the distribution of losses have heavy tails i.e. it indicates that the Log-normal, the Burr or the Pareto distribution are candidates to be the analytical distribution of the loss data. Whereas eliminating the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 from that modeled loss data, the ên (x) shows a decreasing pattern, 3 0 0 1 2 e_n(x) (USD million)*E-5 4 2 e_n(x) (USD million)*E-4 6 4 indicating that Gamma, Weibull or Pareto could model adequately, see right panel of Figure 5.7. 0 Figure 5.7: 5 10 x (USD million)*E-4 0 5 10 x (USD million)*E-5 The empirical mean excess function ên (x) for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico (left panel) and without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 (right panel) CMXloss01.xpl 51 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Empirical distribution function tests and parameters estimation To test whether the fit is adequate, one compares the empirical Fn (x) with the fitted F (x) distribution function. The edf statistics measure the difference between these two distributions, D’Agostino and Stephens (1986). To this end the Kolmogorov Sminorv, the Kuiper statistic, the Cramér-von and the Anderson Darling non-parametric tests are applied to check whether values of the fitted distribution function at sample points form a uniform distribution function, Kukla (2000). • The Kolmogorov Sminorv statistic measures the difference between the empirical and the fitted distribution function in the supremum norm: Dn = sup |Fn (x) − F (x)| (5.12) x∈R where the empirical distribution function is defined as, D’Agostino and Stephens (1986): n Fn (x) = 1X I{xi ≤x} n i=1 • The Kuiper statistic or V statistic is defined as: V = D+ + D− (5.13) where D+ = sup {Fn (x) − F (x)} and D− = sup {F (x) − Fn (x)}. x x • The Cramér-von Mises statistic is given by: Z ∞ 2 2 W =n (Fn (x) − F (x)) dF (x) (5.14) ∞ • The Anderson Darling statistic is described as: Z ∞ (Fn (x) − F (x))2 2 dF (x) A =n −∞ F (x)(1 − F (x)) (5.15) The test of the fit procedure consists of the null hypothesis: the distribution is suitable, and the alternative: the distribution is not suitable. H0 : Fn (x) = F (x; θ) H1 : Fn (x) 6= F (x; θ) where θ is a vector of known parameters. The fit is accepted (no rejection of null hypothesis) when the value of the test is less than the corresponding critical value Cα , given a significance level α. In terms of probability, the null hypothesis will be rejected when the p-value, i.e. P(T ≥ t) is small, where t is the test value for a given sample. To employ the edf tests to the hypothesis that the sample data has a common distribution function F (x; θ) with θ unknown, it is necessary to estimate the parameters first. When the 52 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico parameters are estimated from the data, Ross (2002) overcomes the problem of reducing the critical values for the tests of the specified distribution, by using Monte Carlo simulations. The parameter vector θ̂ is estimated from a sample of size n and the test statistics are calculated according to F (x, θ̂). Then, a sample of size n is created with F (x, θ̂) distributed variables. The new parameter vector θˆ1 is estimated from this simulated sample and the test statistics are calculated from F (x, θˆ1 ). The procedure is repeated until a certain level of precision is reached. The parameter vector θ can also be estimated, merely finding a θ̂∗ that minimizes a particular edf statistic. D’Agostino and Stephens (1986) state that when the fitted distribution F (x) diverge from the true distribution in the tails, the A2 test is the most potent statistic from the above explained statistics for the estimation scheme. In addition, the A2 statistic minimization tends to return lower edf test statistics values than the maximum likelihood algorithm. The estimation of parameters via A2 statistic minimization and the hypothesis testing are computed for the loss models number 8, 22, 23, 24 and 25. The estimated parameters of the best loss model (number 23) and their corresponding edf test statistics are shown in Table 5.5. It also shows the corresponding p-values based on 1000 simulated samples in parenthesis. Observe that all the tests reject the fit for all the distributions. However, the loss models with numbers 8, 22 and 25 pass the A2 statistic for the Burr distribution at the 2%, 1% and 1% level respectively, see Table 5.6, Table 5.7 and Table 5.9. The ranges of the Burr parameters are: α ∈ (3.323, 4.008), λ ∈ (16.373, 20.558) and τ ∈ (0.886, 0.919). The next distribution that passes the A2 statistic is the Pareto distribution in models number 8 and 22 at the 2% and 0.5% level respectively, see Table 5.6 and Table 5.7. Its parameter ranges are: α ∈ (2.199, 2.408) and λ ∈ (11.276, 13.741). The other test statistics reject the fits for all distributions. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.456 α = 2.199 α = 3.354 β = 0.132 α = 0.145 β = .214 σ = 1.677 λ = 12.53 λ = 17.33 β = −0.0 τ = .747 0.157 τ = 0.895 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.185 0.142 0.150 0.149 0.299 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.308 0.265 0.278 0.245 0.570 0.298 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 1.447 0.879 0.987 0.911 6.932 1.16 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 10.490 6.131 6.018 10.519 35.428 6.352 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) Table 5.5: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. CMXloss02b.xpl 53 CMXloss02a.xpl 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.435 α = 2.408 α = 4.008 β = 0.135 α = 0.145 β = 0.212 σ = 1.673 λ = 13.74 λ = 20.55 β = .006 τ = .763 0.154 τ = 0.887 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.184 0.138 0.147 0.145 0.298 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.310 0.261 0.278 0.239 0.569 0.295 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 1.347 0.742 0.855 0.741 6.950 0.989 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 10.184 5.576 5.431 9.153 5.536 5.674 (0.02) (0.02) (0.02) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.01) Table 5.6: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statis- tics for the modeled loss data number 8 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.387 α = 2.394 α = 3.323 β = 0.143 α = 0.143 β = 0.220 σ = 1.644 λ = 12.92 λ = 16.67 β = −0.007 τ = 0.764 0.145 τ = 0.919 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.173 0.131 0.137 0.135 0.295 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.296 0.248 0.260 0.222 0.569 0.282 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 1.358 0.803 0.884 0.790 7.068 1.051 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 10.022 5.635 5.563 9.429 36.076 5.963 (< 0.005) (0.005) (0.01) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) Table 5.7: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 22 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 54 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.332 α = 2.221 α = 3.548 β = 0.149 α = 0.142 β = .234 σ = 1.682 λ = 11.27 λ = 16.37 β = −.007 τ = .748 0.144 τ = 0.886 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.175 0.136 0.142 0.139 0.293 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.29 0.2411 0.250 0.230 0.548 0.262 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 1.356 0.807 0.9053 0.778 6.989 1.041 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 9.557 5.552 5.396 9.806 35.781 5.752 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) Table 5.8: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test sta- tistics for the modeled loss data number 24 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.401 α = 2.360 α = 3.667 β = 0.1403 α = 0.144 β = .219 σ = 1.664 λ = 12.94 λ = 18.31 β = −.007 τ = .760 0.1349 τ = .897 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.1651 0.1221 0.1294 0.1266 0.2968 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.2802 0.2304 0.245 0.2109 0.5645 0.2632 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 1.2964 0.7235 0.8224 0.7204 6.966 0.9663 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 9.7782 5.3573 5.236 9.1474 35.6338 5.5523 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.01) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) Table 5.9: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 25 of earthquakes in Mexico. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 55 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Discarding the outlier of the earthquake in 1985, the estimated parameters of the modeled loss number 23 and their hypothesis testing are shown in Table 5.10. It also displays the p-values based on 1000 simulated samples in parenthesis. The exponential distribution with parameter β = 0.1201 passes all the tests at the 0.8% level, except the A2 statistic. Likewise, the Pareto distribution passes two tests at very low levels, 0.6% and 1.2%, but with unacceptable fit in the A2 statistic. All the remaining distributions give worse fits. However, Table 5.11, Table 5.12, Table 5.13 and Table 5.14, display other loss models (number 8,22,24,25) without the outlier of 1985 earthquake, where the Gamma distribution passes all the test statistics and the A2 statistics at the 0.6%, 6%, 5.6%, 1.8% level respectively. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.493 α = 2.632 α = 1.8e7 β = 0.120 α = 0.666 β = 0.194 σ = 1.751 λ = 17.17 λ = 9.5e7 β = .070 τ = .770 0.081 0.070 0.070 τ = 0.770 D test 0.116 V test W 2 test A2 test 0.077 0.070 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.001) (0.084) (< 0.005) (0.008) 0.215 0.133 0.126 0.138 0.121 0.126 (< 0.005) (0.006) (< 0.005) (0.008) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.702 0.168 0.166 0.202 0.147 0.166 (< 0.005) (0.012) (< 0.005) (0.152) (0.006) (< 0.005) 6.750 3.022 1.617 4.732 1.284 1.617 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) Table 5.10: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.462 α = 2.135 α = 3.8e6 β = 0.119 α = 0.634 β = .206 σ = 1.820 λ = 13.11 λ = 1.8e7 β = .005 τ = 0.742 τ = 0.742 D test V test W2 test A2 test 0.114 0.074 0.066 0.094 0.065 0.066 (< 0.005) (0.006) (0.01) (0.01) (0.026) (0.018) 0.2257 0.1266 0.122 0.152 0.119 0.122 (< 0.005) (0.012) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) 0.687 0.212 0.150 0.299 0.116 0.150 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.03) (0.05) (0.01) 6.485 3.452 1.487 5.644 1.063 1.487 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.006) (< 0.005) Table 5.11: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 8 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 56 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico The next distribution that passes all the tests is the Weibull distribution for the loss models number 22 and 24, which pass the A2 statistics at 1% and 1.2% level, see Table 5.12 and Table 5.13. The Pareto distribution also passes other edf tests, but only for the model 22 (Table 5.12) the Anderson-Darling statistic accepts the fit at 3% level. The ranges of the Gamma parameters are: α ∈ (0.593, 0.666) and β ∈ (0.059, 0.070), the range parameters for the Weibull distribution are: β ∈ (0.194, 0.209) and τ ∈ (0.706, 0.770) and the Pareto distribution parameters are in the ranges α ∈ (1.585, 2.632) and λ ∈ (8.825, 13.119). Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.453 α = 2.010 α = 1.7e7 β = 0.120 α = 0.629 β = 0.209 σ = 1.807 λ = 11.19 λ = 8.5e7 β = 0.065 τ = 0.738 τ = 0.739 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.104 0.071 0.055 0.090 0.052 0.055 (< 0.005) (0.03) (0.4) (0.05) (1.12) (0.52) 0.204 0.120 0.104 0.156 0.099 0.104 (< 0.005) (0.05) (0.2) (< 0.005) (0.52) (0.27) 0.616 0.185 0.125 0.313 0.098 0.125 (< 0.005) (0.02) (0.06) (0.1) (0.42) (0.1) 6.008 3.139 1.267 5.694 0.9047 1.267 (< 0.005) (0.03) (0.01) (< 0.005) (0.06) (0.01) Table 5.12: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 22 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.441 α = 1.585 α = 5.6e5 β = 0.117 α = 0.593 β = 0.220 σ = 1.882 λ = 8.825 λ = 2.5e6 β = .059 τ = .706 τ = 0.769 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.114 0.077 0.063 0.104 0.060 0.063 (< 0.005) (0.008) (0.016) (< 0.005) (0.032) (0.04) 0.223 0.134 0.117 0.185 0.104 0.117 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.05) (0.024) 0.598 0.250 0.119 0.479 0.08 0.119 (0.056) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.016) (< 0.005) (0.188) 5.694 3.662 1.176 7.193 0.736 1.176 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.056) (0.012) Table 5.13: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 24 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. 57 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Distrib. Log-normal Pareto Burr Exponential Gamma Weibull Parameter µ = 1.474 α = 2.054 α = 1.7e7 β = 0.118 α = 0.631 β = 0.205 σ = 1.808 λ = 12.59 λ = 8.3e7 β = .064 τ = .740 τ = 0.741 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.106 0.072 0.057 0.093 0.056 0.057 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.060) (0.024) (0.108) (0.102) 0.209 0.120 0.106 0.157 0.103 0.106 (< 0.005) (0.016) (0.022) (< 0.005) (0.080) (0.068) 0.629 0.185 0.127 0.305 0.100 0.127 (0.024) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.008) (0.034) (0.080) 6.153 3.192 1.309 5.628 0.927 1.309 (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (< 0.005) (0.018) (< 0.005) Table 5.14: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the modeled loss data number 25 of earthquakes in Mexico, without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. Consequently, since the Burr and Pareto distribution pass the A2 statistic with the highest p-values, they are suggested as the analytical distributions for the loss data of earthquakes. Following the same criterion for the case when the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 is neglected, the Gamma, Weibull and Pareto distributions are recommended to model analytically the loss data. Several candidates were taken into account as the choice of the loss distribution is very important because it will influence the CAT bond price. Limited Expected Value function For a fixed amount deducible of x, the limited expected value function characterizes the expected amount per loss retained by the insured in a policy, Cizek et al. (2005): Z x L(x) = E {min(X, x)} = ydF (y) + x {1 − F (x)} , x > 0 (5.16) 0 where X is the loss amount random variable, with cdf F (x). The empirical estimate is given by: X 1 X L̂n (x) = x, + x n x <x x >x j j The limited expected value function has the following properties: 1. L is a concave, continuous and increasing function. 2. When x → ∞, L(x) − E(x). 3. Let L0 (x) be the derivative of the function L evaluated at point x, and the cdf F operate on the probability scale (0,1), then F (x) = 1 − L0 (x). 58 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Besides curve-fitting purposes, the limited expected function is very useful because it emphasizes how different parts of the loss distribution function contribute to the price of the insurance. The next limited expected functions are taken into account to find an adequate distribution to the loss data of earthquakes in Mexico: • Log-normal distribution: 2 ln x − µ − σ 2 ln x − µ µ+ σ2 L(x) = e Φ +x 1−Φ σ σ • Pareto distribution: L(x) = λ − λα (λ + x)1−α α−1 • Burr distribution: α 1 λ τ Γ α − τ1 Γ 1 + τ1 λ 1 1 xτ L(x) = + x B 1 + ;α − ; Γ (α) τ τ λ + xτ λ + xτ • Gamma distribution: L(x) = α F (x, α + 1, β) + x {1 − F (x, α, β)} β where F (x, α, β) is the equation (5.8). • Exponential distribution: L(x) = 1 1 − e−βx β • Weibull distribution: L(x) = Γ 1+ 1 βτ 1 τ α 1 Γ 1 + , βxα + xe−βx τ A suitable distribution that fits the loss data of earthquakes can be found comparing the limited expected function of the observed data L̂n with the limited expected function of the analytical distribution L. The closer they are, the better they fit and the closer the mean values of both distributions are. Figure 5.8 presents the empirical and analytical limited expected value functions for the analyzed data set with modeled loss number 23 (left panel) with and without the earthquake in 1985 (right panel). The graphs give explanation for the choice of the Burr, Pareto, Gamma and Weibull distributions. Hence, the prices of the CAT bonds will be based on these distributions. 5.3 Earthquake frequency Let (Ω, F, Ft , P ) be a probability space and Ft ⊂ F an increasing filtration, with time t ∈ [0, T ]. The number of earthquakes in the interval (0,t] is described by the point process Nt≥0 . This process is generated using the times when the ith earthquake occurs Ti , or using the time period 59 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 20 15 10 0 5 Analytical and empirical LEVFs (USD million) 60 40 20 Analytical and empirical LEVFs (USD million) 80 25 5 0 Figure 5.8: 5 10 x (USD million)*E2 0 50 100 x (USD million) The empirical l̂n (x) (black solid line) and analytical limited expected value function l(x) for the log-normal (green dashed line), Pareto (blue dashed line), Burr (red dashed line), Weibull (magenta dashed line) and Gamma (black dashed line) distributions for the modeled loss data number 23 of earthquakes in Mexico (left panel) and without the outlier of the 1985 earthquake (right panel) CMXloss02e.xpl CMXloss02f.xpl between earthquakes Wi = Ti − Ti−1 , defined as waiting times. The earthquake process Nt in terms of Wt ’s is set by equation (4.1): Nt = ∞ X I(Tn <t) n=1 It is important to remark that earthquakes face a limited size of the sample of historical events (a tail problem), since the recurrence time (waiting time between events) of large earthquakes in a given area can be of several years. Experts in geography believe that certain faults build up stress at a constant rate and will liberate it periodically when it reaches certain levels. In other words, this time dependent hypothesis assumes that the probability of an event ocurring at a given location increases as the time period. Further, recurrence intervals increase with the magnitude of the earthquake and, for large earthquakes, can be in hundreds or thousands years, Anderson, et al. (1998). The evidence and acceptance on the validity and application of time dependent modelling is growing. See for example, the Open File Report (1988). Many catastrophe modelling firms, such as Risk Management Solution (RMS), Applied Insurance Research (AIR), EQECAT, Risk Engineering, and others, overcome the tail problem combining the use of historical data with certain parametric assumptions about the probability distribution of the characteristics of the earthquakes. However, the accurate modelling of earthquakes is still difficult. In this thesis, the arrival process of earthquakes in Mexico is modelled with a homogeneous 60 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Poisson process (HPP), Non- homogeneous Poisson process (NHPP), Doubly Stochastic Poisson Process and the renewal process. For generation of the arrival time process, see Ross (2002), Rolski et al. (1999) and Grandell (1999). 5.3.1 Homogeneous Poisson Process (HPP) An homogeneous Poisson process (HPP) is a continuous-time stochastic process Nt : t ≥ 0 with intensity λ > 0 if, Cizek et al. (2005): • Nt is a point process governed by the Poisson law. • The waiting times Wi = Ti − T i − 1 are independent identically and exponentially distributed with intensity λ. The expected value of a HPP is defined as: (5.17) E(Nt ) = λt Figure 5.9 shows the trajectories of the HPP in one thousand years for the intensities: λ1 = 0.0215 (blue line), λ2 = 0.0237 (green line) and λ3 = 0.0289 (red line). Clearly the jumps of 5 0 Intensity*E2 10 the trajectory are more often when λ is higher. 0 2 4 6 8 10 Years (t)*E2 Figure 5.9: Trajectories of a HPP in 1000 years for the intensities λ1 = 0.0215 (blue line), λ2 = 0.0237 (green line) and λ3 = 0.0289 (red line) CMXrisk01.xpl 61 5 5.3.2 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Non-homogeneous Poisson Process (NHPP) The non-Homogenous Poisson (NHPP) is a continuous-time stochastic process Nt : t >= 0 with a deterministic intensity function λt , if: • Nt is a point process governed by the Poisson law. • The waiting times Wi = Ti − Ti−1 are independent identically and exponentially distributed with intensity λ. • The increment Nt − Ns , with 0 < s < t, is Poisson distributed with intensity λ̃ = Rt s λu du. The distribution function of the waiting times is given by: Fs = P(Ws ≤ t) = 1 − P(Wt ≥ t) = 1 − P(Ns+t − Nt = 0) = 1 − e{− R s+t s λu du} = 1 − e{− Rt 0 λs+v dv } The expected value of a NHPP is given by: t Z E(Nt ) = λs ds (5.18) 0 Note that the HPP is the special case of an NHPP when λt is a constant. The NHPP is usually used to describe the dependence of the arrival process of natural events on the time of the year, i.e. the seasonality effect of the natural events. 5.3.3 Doubly Stochastic Poisson Process The doubly stochastic Poisson Process is also called Cox Process or Two-step randomization process. It is defined as a Poisson process Nt conditional on an intensity process Λt , which itself is a stochastic process. When Λt is deterministic, then Nt is a NHPP, Cizek et al. (2005). The expected value of a Doubly Stochastic Poisson Process is given by: Z t E(Nt ) = Λs ds (5.19) 0 5.3.4 Renewal Process It assumes that the sequence of waiting times {W1 , W2 ...} of the earthquake arrival point process Nt are positive and independent and identically distributed (i.i.d) variables, i.e. they are generated by a renewal process. In particular, the HPP is the case when the arrival times of a renewal process are exponentially distributed. For more details, see Burnecki et al. (2004). 62 5 5.3.5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Simulating the earthquake arrival process As suggested in the previous section, it is necessary to look for a suitable distribution that models the arrival process of earthquakes. One can achieve that examining the empirical mean excess function ên (t) for the waiting times of the earthquake data, see left panel of Figure 5.10. The empirical mean excess function plot shows an increasing starting and a decreasing ending behaviour, implying that the exponential, Gamma, Pareto and Log-normal distribution could be possible candidates to fit the arrival process of earthquakes. However, for a large t, the tails of the analytical distributions fitted to the earthquake data are different from the one of the empirical distribution. The analytical mean excess functions e(t) increase with time. See right 0 2 4 e(t) (Years) 0.4 0.2 e_n(t) (Years) 0.6 6 0.8 panel of Figure 5.10. 0 Figure 5.10: 1 2 t (Years) 3 4 0 5 t (Years) 10 The empirical mean excess function ên (t) for the earthquakes data (left panel) and the mean excess function e(t) for the log-normal (green solid line), exponential (red dotted line), Pareto (magenta dashed line) and Gamma (cyan solid line) distributions for the earthquakes data in Mexico (right panel) CMXrisk02.xpl To model the claim arrival process of earthquakes by a renewal process, one estimates the parameters of the candidate analytical distributions via the A2 minimization procedure and tests the Goodness of fit. The estimated parameters and their corresponding p-values based on 1000 simulations are illustrated in Table 5.15. Observe that the exponential, Pareto and Gamma distributions pass all the tests at a very high level. The Gamma distribution passes the A2 test with the highest level (88%). 63 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Distrib. Log-normal Exponential Pareto Gamma Parameter µ = −1.158 β = 1.880 α = 5.875 α = 0.858 λ = 2.806 β = 1.546 σ = 1.345 D test V test W 2 test A2 test 0.072 0.045 0.035 0.037 (0.005) (0.538) (0.752) (0.626) 0.132 0.078 0.067 0.064 (< 0.005) (0.619) (0.719) (0.739) 0.212 0.062 0.031 0.030 (< 0.005) (0.451) (0.742) (0.730) 2.227 0.653 0.287 0.190 (< 0.005) (0.253) (0.631) (0.880) Table 5.15: Parameter estimates by A2 minimization procedure and test statistics for the earthquake data. In parenthesis, the related p-values based on 1000 simulations. CMXrisk02a.xpl CMXrisk02b.xpl If the claim arrival process of earthquakes is modelled with an HPP, the estimation of the annual intensity is obtained by taking the mean of the daily number of earthquakes times 360, i.e. λ = (0.005140)(360) equal to 1.8504 earthquakes higher than 6.5 M w per year. Comparing this annual intensity with the annual intensity of the renewal process modelled with an exponential distribution equal to 1.88 indicates that the earthquakes arrival process can be correctly model with the HPP. In addition, the arrival process of earthquakes is also modelled with a NHPP. To this end, the mean value function is estimated to the accumulated number of earthquakes Nt or the parameters are estimated by fitting the cumulative intensity function, see equation (5.18). One can estimate the parameters of the intensity function λs using the least squared algorithm, Härdle and Simar (2003): β̂ = arg min{(x − Y β)T (x − Y β)} = arg min{T } β (5.20) β where x is the dependent variable that represents the accumulated number of earthquakes Nt , Y is the independent variable that represents the time t and is the errors vector. The intensity is then the derivative of the fitted regression curve that is given by the integral: Z t ∂ λs = λs ds ∂t 0 Different polynomial functions are tested to model the intensity λs of the earthquake data, but the constant intensity λ1s = 1.8167, with a coefficient of determination r2 = 0.99 and standard error SE = 2.33 is the best fit. This result shows that the HPP is the best fit to describe the arrival process of earthquakes and confirms the theory of time independence of earthquakes. Earthquakes can strike at any time during the year with same probability, they do not show seasonality as other natural events do. Figure 5.11 depicts the number of earthquakes in Mexico, the accumulated number of earthquakes and the mean value functions E(Nt ) of the HPP with intensity rates λs = 1.8504 and λ1s = 1.8167. 64 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 150 120 90 60 0 30 5 4 3 1 2 Number of earthquakes 6 Aggregate number of losses / Mean value function 180 7 5 1900 1920 Figure 5.11: 1940 1960 Time (years) 1980 2000 1900 1920 1940 1960 Time (Years) 1980 2000 Left panel: Number of earthquakes occurred in Mexico during 1900-2003. Right panel: The accumulated number of earthquakes (solid blue line) and mean value functions E(Nt ) of the HPP with intensity λs = 1.8504 (solid black line) and the λ1s = 1.8167 (dashed red line). CMXrisk03.xpl 5.4 CAT Bond Pricing Model In this section the modeled loss is connected to an index CAT bond by means of the compound doubly stochastic Poisson pricing methodology from Baryshnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003), which focuses essentially on the aggregate process Ls and the threshold loss D under continuous trading. 5.4.1 Compound Doubly Stochastic Poisson Pricing Model The CAT bond is mainly described by, Burnecki and Kukla(2003): • There is a doubly stochastic Poisson process Ns , Bremaud (1998), describing the flow of a particular catastrophic natural event in a specified region, with an predictable bounded intensity process λs , where s ∈ [0, T ]. The process λs explains the estimates of the natural catastrophe causes. ∞ • The financial losses {Xk }k=1 caused by these catastrophic events at time ti are independent and identically distributed random variables (i.i.d) with distribution function F (x) = P(Xi < x). This is especially valid for the index used as the trigger for the CAT bond. • The process Ns and Xk are assumed to be independent. Then, the countinuous and 65 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico predictable aggregate loss process is: Lt = Nt X (5.21) i=1 • A continuously compounded discount interest rate r, describing the value at time s of $1 paid at time t > s by: Rt e−R(s,t) = e s r(ξ)dξ • A threshold time event τ = inf {t : Lt ≥ D}, that is the moment when the aggregate loss Lt exceeds the threshold level D. Baryshnikov et al. (1998) defines the threshold time as a point of a doubly stochastic Poisson process Mt = I{Lt >D} , with a stochastic intensity depending on the index position: Λs = λs (1 − F (D − Ls ))I{Ls <D} (5.22) The choices of the loss distribution and the arrival process of earthquakes are very important because they influence the CAT bond prices. In the previous chapter, for all the loss model datas caused by earthquakes in Mexico, the Burr distribution with parameters ranges α ∈ (3.323, 4.008), λ ∈ (16.373, 20.558) and τ ∈ (0.886, 0.897), passed the A2 test statistic. The next best fit was the Pareto distribution with parameter ranges α ∈ (2.199, 2.408) and λ ∈ (11.276, 13.741). Since the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 had a big influence on the quantification of losses, an analytical loss distribution without this observation was also fitted. The Gamma distribution with parameter ranges: α ∈ (0.593, 0.666) and β ∈ (0.059, 0.070) passed all the goodness of fit tests for most of the loss models. The Weibull distribution with ranges: β ∈ (0.194, 0.209) and τ ∈ (0.706, 0.770) was the next best fit, before the Pareto distribution with parameters ranges α ∈ (1.585, 2.632) and λ ∈ (8.825, 13.119). However, notice that the presence of outliers in the loss data is very characteristic of catastrophic events, the CAT bond essence. The flow of earthquakes was modelled by an Homogeneous Poisson Process (HPP) with a constant annual intensity λs = 1.8504 and the fitted intensity λ1s = 1.81 that was obtained with the least squares procedure. The left panel of Figure 5.12 displays a sample trajectory of the aggregate loss process Lt for one hundred years (0 ≤ t ≤ T = 100 years) simulated with an HPP Nt with intensity λs = 1.8504 and Pareto losses with parameters α = 2.199 and λ = 12.533. It also shows the historical loss trajectory of the loss model data number 23, two sample 5% and 95% quantile lines based on 1000 trajectories of the aggregate loss process and the threshold level D = $1600 million. In λ addition, it shows the plot of the mean function of the process Lt equal to E(Lt ) = α−1 λt only for Pareto losses and a HPP to compare how far the real and the sample loss trajectory are. In this chart, the real aggregate loss process crosses the 5% quantile line, indicating that a heavier tail distribution, like the Burr distribution, would better fit the historical aggregate loss process than the Pareto distribution. 66 30 25 20 15 0 5 10 Aggregate loss process (USD million)*E2 25 20 15 10 0 5 Aggregate loss process (USD million)*E2 30 35 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico 35 5 1900 1920 1940 1960 1980 2000 1900 1920 Years Figure 5.12: 1940 1960 1980 2000 Years Left panel: A sample trajectory of the aggregate loss process Lt (blue solid line), the historical loss trajectory (green line), the analytical mean of the process Lt (dashed red line), 5% and 95% quantile lines (dotted brown lines) and a threshold level D = 1600 million for the loss model number 23. Right panel: Same case as the left panel, but the data does not consider the earthquake in 1985. CMXrisk04e.xpl CMXrisk04f.xpl In the same way, the right panel of Figure 5.12 presents the case of the loss model data number 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. It shows one hundred years sample trajectory of the aggregate loss process Lt generated with a HPP Nt with intensity λs = 1.8504 and Pareto losses with parameters α = 2.6329 and λ = 17.175. It also presents the historical loss trajectory without the earthquake in 1985, the mean function of the process Lt , the 5% and 95% quantile lines based on 1000 trajectories of the aggregate loss process and a threshold level D = $1600 million. In this case, the real aggregate loss process falls inside the quantile lines, demonstrating that the Pareto distribution fits adequately. 5.4.2 Zero Coupon CAT bonds Assume a zero coupon CAT bond that pays a principal amount P at time to maturity T , conditional on the threshold time τ > T . Let P be a predictable process, Ps = E(P |Fs ) i.e. the payment at maturity is independent from the occurrence and timing of the threshold D. Suppose a process of continuously compounded discount interest rates and assume that in case of occurrence of the trigger event the principal P is fully lost. The non arbitrage price of the zero coupon CAT bond Vt1 associated with the threshold D, catastrophic flow process Ns with intensity λs , a loss distribution function F and paying the 67 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico principal P at maturity is, Burnecky and Kukla (2003): h i Vt1 = E P e−R(t,T ) (1 − MT ) |Ft " ( ) # Z T −R(t,T ) λs {1 − F (D − Ls )} I{Ls <D} ds |Ft = E Pe 1− (5.23) t To evaluate this zero coupon CAT bond at t = 0, consider that the continuously compounded discount interest rate r = 5.35% is constant and equal to the London Inter-Bank Offered Rate (LIBOR) in June 2006, FannieMae (2006). Moreover, assume that P =$160 million, the expiration time T ∈ [0.25, 3] years and a threshold D ∈ [$100, $135] million, corresponding to the 0.7 and 0.8-quantiles of the three yearly accumulated losses of the modeled loss data number 23, i.e. approximately three payoffs are expected to occur in one hundred years (see Table 5.16). Under these assumptions and after applying 1000 Monte Carlo simulations, in spite of features of instability, the price of the zero coupon CAT bond at t = 0 is calculated, with respect to the threshold level D and expiration time T , in the Burr and Pareto distribution for the modeled loss data number 23 and the Gamma, Pareto and Weibull distribution for the data without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. For all the cases the arrival process of earthquakes follows an HPP with constant intensity λs = 1.8504. The plots in Figures 5.13 and 5.14 indicate that the price of the zero coupon CAT bond decreases as the expiration time increases, because the occurrence probability of the trigger event increases. However, the bond price increases as the threshold level increases, since one expects a trigger event with low probability. When D = $135 million and T = 1 year, the CAT bond price $160e−0.0535 ≈ $151.658 is equal to the case when the threshold time τ = inf {t : Lt > D} is greater than the maturity T with probability one. Quantile 3yrsAccL 10% 18.447 20% 23.329 30% 32.892 40% 44.000 50% 61.691 60% 80.458 70% 109.11 80% 119.86 90% 142.72 100% 1577.6 Table 5.16: Quantiles of 3 years accumulated loss for the modeled loss data number 23 (3yrsAccL) CMXthreshold.xpl Altough the prices are pretty similar, observe that the loss distribution function influences the price of the CAT bond. For the modeled loss data 23, the Pareto distribution gives higher 68 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Burr - CAT Bond Prices Pareto - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 160.00 150.97 151.74 141.95 143.47 132.92 135.21 123.89 126.94 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.13: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 The zero coupon CAT bond price (vertical axis) with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis) in the Burr-HPP (left side) and Pareto-HPP (right side) cases for the modeled loss data number 23. CMX05e.xpl prices than the Burr distribution, the difference varies from -2.64% to 0.61% of the principal P = 160, see Table 5.17. The zero coupon bond price with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D are more volatile in the case of the Burr (Std. deviation = 10.68) than the Pareto distribution (Std. deviation = 10.08). Min. (% Principal) Max. (% Principal) Diff. ZCB Burr-Pareto -2.640 0.614 Diff. ZCB Gamma-Pareto 0.195 4.804 Diff. ZCB Pareto-Weibull -4.173 -0.193 Diff. ZCB Gamma-Weibull -0.524 1.636 Table 5.17: Minimum and maximum of the differences in the zero coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr-Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma-Pareto, ParetoWeibull, Gamma-Weibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. Even though the prices are also pretty similar, for the modeled loss number 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 the Gamma distribution leads to higher prices than the Weibull and Pareto distributions. For the Gamma and Pareto distribution the difference varies from 0.19% to 4.8% of the principal P = 160, for the Pareto and Weibull distribution varies from -4.17% to -0.19% of the principal and for the Gamma and Weibull distribution varies from -0.52% to 1.63% of the principal. The Gamma distribution shows the lowest standard deviation 69 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Gamma - CAT Bond Prices Pareto - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 160.00 152.00 151.14 144.00 142.27 136.00 133.41 128.00 124.55 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 Weibull - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 152.00 144.00 136.00 128.00 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.14: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 The zero coupon CAT bond price (vertical axis) with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis) in the Gamma-HPP (upper left side), ParetoHPP (upper right side) and Weibull-HPP (lower side) cases of the modeled loss data number 23, without the earthquake in 1985. CMX05f.xpl 70 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Differences in CAT Bond Prices Differences in CAT Bond Prices 0.98 7.69 -0.06 6.21 -1.10 4.74 -2.14 3.26 -3.18 1.79 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 Differences in CAT Bond Prices 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 Differences in CAT Bond Prices -0.31 2.62 -1.58 1.93 -2.86 1.24 -4.13 0.54 -5.40 -0.15 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.15: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 The difference in zero CAT bond price (vertical axis) between the Burr and Pareto (upper left side), the Gamma and Pareto (upper right side), the Pareto and Weibull (lower left side) and the Gamma and Weibull (lower right side) distributions under an HPP, with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis). CMX06e.xpl 71 CMX06f.xpl 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico (equal to 8.83) of the zero coupon bond price with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D, comparing to the standard deviations of the Pareto distribution (equal to 10.44) and Weibull distribution (equal to 9.05). The difference in the zero coupon CAT bond price for the different distributions with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D are plotted in Figure 5.15 5.4.3 Coupon CAT bonds Assume a coupon CAT bond, which pays the principal P at time to maturity T and gives coupon Ct every 3 months until the threshold time τ . Let P be a predictable process Ps = E(P |Fs ) to be interpreted as the independence of the payment at maturity from the occurrence and timing of the threshold. Suppose a process of continuously compounded discount interest rates and assume that in case of occurrence of the trigger event the principal P is fully lost. This coupons bonds usually pay a fixed spread s over LIBOR. Such spread s reflects the value of the premium paid for the insured event and LIBOR reflects the gain for investing in the bond. For a given catastrophic flow Ns with intensity rate λs , a loss distribution function F and a threshold D, the non arbitrage price of the coupon CAT bond Vt2 paying P at maturity T and coupons Cs at threshold time τ is given by Burnecky and Kukla (2003): " Vt2 = −R(t,T ) E Pe Z (1 − MT ) + # T −R(t,s) e Cs (1 − Ms ) ds|Ft t " = −R(t,T ) E Pe Z + T −R(t,s) e Z Cs 1 − t s λξ {1 − F (D − Lξ )} I{Lξ <D} dξ t o i −P e−R(s,T ) λs {1 − F (D − Ls )} I{Ls <D} ds |Ft (5.24) Consider that the continuously compounded discount interest rate r = 5.35%, which is constant and equal to the London Inter-Bank Offered Rate (LIBOR) in June 2006, FannieMae (2006). Assume a spread rate s equal to 230 basis points over LIBOR and the principal P equal LIBOR+230bp to $160 million. The bond has quarterly annual coupons Ct = $160=$3.06 4 million. Suposse that the expiration time of the bond T ∈ [0.25, 3] years and the threshold D ∈ [$100, $135] million that correspond to the 0.7 and 0.8-quantiles of the three yearly accumulated losses of the loss model data number 23 (see Table 5.16). After 1000 Monte Carlo simulations, one obtains the price of the coupon CAT bond at t = 0, with respect to the threshold level D and expiration time T , for the Burr and Pareto distribution of the loss model number 23 and for the Gamma, Pareto and Weibull distribution of the modeled loss data number 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. For all the cases the arrival process of earthquakes follows an HPP with intensity λs = 1.8504. Figures 5.16 and 5.17 indicate that for all the distributions the price of the coupon CAT bond value increases as the threshold level D increases. But, increasing the expiration time T leads to lower coupon CAT bond prices, because the probability of a trigger event increases and more 72 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico coupon payments are expected to be received. Note in Table 5.18 that the coupon CAT prices are higher than the zero coupon CAT prices in Figures 5.13 and 5.14: the maximum absolute value difference between the zero and coupon CAT bond reaches 6.228% of the principal in the Burr distribution and 5.738% in the Pareto distribution for the modeled loss data number 23. For the case without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985 the maximum difference between the zero and coupon CAT bond reaches 7.124% of the principal in the Gamma distribution, 5.25% in the Pareto distribution and 5.29% in the Weibull distribution. Burr - CAT Bond Prices Pareto - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 160.00 152.00 152.00 144.00 144.00 136.00 136.00 128.00 128.00 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.16: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 The coupon CAT bond price (vertical axis) with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis) in the Burr-HPP (left side) and Pareto-HPP (right side) cases for the modeled loss data number 23. CMX07e.xpl Min. (% Principal) Max. (% Principal) Diff. ZCB-CB Burr -6.228 -0.178 Diff. ZCB-CB Pareto -5.738 -0.375 Diff. ZCB-CB Gamma -7.124 -0.475 Diff. ZCB-CB Pareto (no outlier ’85) -5.250 -0.376 Diff. ZCB-CB Weibull -5.290 -0.475 Table 5.18: Minimum and maximum of the differences in the zero and coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr and Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma, Pareto and Weibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. Concerning the loss distribution function for the modeled loss data number 23, the Pareto distribution also leads to higher prices than the Burr distribution. The difference varies from 73 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico -1.552% to 0.809% of the principal P = 160, see Table 5.19. The Burr distribution also shows a higher standard deviation (equal to 8.31) of the coupon CAT bond price, with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D, than the Pareto distribution (std. deviation = 8.15). Min. (% Principal) Max. (% Principal) Diff. CB Burr-Pareto -1.552 0.809 Diff. CB Gamma-Pareto 0.295 6.040 Diff. CB Pareto-Weibull -3.944 -0.295 Diff. CB Gamma-Weibull -0.273 3.105 Table 5.19: Minimum and maximum of the differences in the coupon CAT bond prices in terms of percentages of the principal, for the Burr-Pareto distributions of the loss model number 23 and the Gamma-Pareto, Pareto-Weibull, GammaWeibull distributions of the loss model 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985. For the modeled loss number 23 without the outlier of the earthquake in 1985, the Gamma distribution offers higher prices than the Weibull and Pareto distributions. The difference between the Gamma and Pareto distributions varies from 0.295% to 6.04% of the principal P = 160, for the Pareto and Weibull distribution varies from -3.944% to -0.295% of the principal and for the Gamma and Weibull distribution varies from -0.273% to 3.105% of the principal. The standard deviation of the coupon bond price with respect to the expiration time T and threshold level D is 6.39 for the Gamma distribution, 8.62 for the Pareto distribution and 7.24 for the Weibull distribution. Figure 5.18 illustrates the difference in the coupon CAT price with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D. 5.4.4 Robustness of the modeled loss CAT bond prices In order to verify the robustness of the modeled loss with the prices of the zero and coupon CAT bonds one compares the bond prices calculated with different loss models with the bond prices simulated from the pricing algorithm. The bond prices computed from the different loss models are generated with the same seed of the pseudorandom number generator in the 1000 Monte Carlo simulations, while the prices from the pricing algorithm do not use the same seed for their generation. Define P̂ ∗ as the reference prices or the zero and coupon CAT bond prices of the loss model number 23. Let P̂i with i = 1...m be the zero or cupon CAT bond price from the ith loss model different to the loss model of the reference prices. The generation of P̂ ∗ and P̂i is based on the same seed. Furthermore, let P̂j with j = 1..n be the algorithm CAT bond price obtained in the jth simulation of 1000 trajectories of the zero and coupon CAT bond of the loss model number 23. To check if the type of the model has strong impact on the prices, one computes the mean of absolute differences (MAD) i.e. the mean of the differences of the bond prices P̂i with the reference bond prices P̂ ∗ and the mean of the differences of the algorithm bond prices P̂j with 74 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Gamma - CAT Bond Prices Pareto - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 160.00 152.00 152.00 144.00 144.00 136.00 136.00 128.00 128.00 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 Weibull - CAT Bond Prices 160.00 152.00 144.00 136.00 128.00 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.17: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 The coupon CAT bond price (vertical axis) with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis) in the Gamma-HPP (upper left side), ParetoHPP (upper right side) and Weibull-HPP (lower side) cases of the modeled loss data number 23, without the earthquake in 1985. CMX07f.xpl 75 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico Differences in CAT Bond Prices Differences in CAT Bond Prices 1.30 9.67 0.54 7.83 -0.22 5.99 -0.97 4.15 -1.73 2.31 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 Differences in CAT Bond Prices 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 Differences in CAT Bond Prices -0.47 4.97 -1.64 3.89 -2.81 2.81 -3.98 1.72 -5.14 0.64 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 Figure 5.18: 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 100.00 107.00 114.00 121.00 128.00 3.00 0.80 1.35 1.90 2.45 3.00 Difference in the coupon CAT bond price (vertical axis) between the Burr and Pareto (upper left side), the Gamma and Pareto (upper right side), the Pareto and Weibull (lower left side) and the Gamma and Weibull (lower right side) distributions under an HPP, with respect to the threshold level (horizontal left axis) and expiration time (horizontal right axis) CMX08e.xpl 76 CMX08f.xpl 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico the reference bond prices P̂ ∗ . If the means of the absolute differences are similar then the type of the model has no influence on the prices of the zero and coupon CAT bond, otherwise it can have: m X P̂i − P̂ ∗ i=1 m ' n X P̂j − P̂ ∗ , m > 0, n > 0 n j=1 (5.25) In terms of relative differences, if the means of the absolute values of the relative differences (MAVRD) are similar then the model has no impact on the zero and coupon CAT bond prices: n m X 1 P̂i − P̂ ∗ X 1 P̂j − P̂ ∗ (5.26) ' , m > 0, n > 0 m P̂ ∗ j=1 n P̂ ∗ i=1 Table 5.20 shows the percentages in terms of the reference prices P̂ ∗ (the zero coupon CAT bond prices of the loss model number 23) of the MAD and the MAVRD of the zero coupon CAT bond prices from different loss models (models number 8, 22, 24 and 25) and from the algorithm, with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D. The prices from the algorithm are generated with one hundred simulations of 1000 trajectories of the zero coupon CAT bond prices. Most of the percentages of the MAD of the zero coupon CAT bond prices are not equal to the percentages of the MAD of the algorithm prices, but they are similar (the difference in percentages is less than 1%) meaning that the loss models do not have impact on the zero coupon CAT bond prices. When T = 2 years and D = $100 million or T = 3 years with D = $100, 120, 135 million, the percentages of the MAVRD from the zero coupon CAT bonds prices differ from the percentages of the MAVRD of the algorithm prices, but in general the percentages of the MAVRD are similar (the difference in percentages is above 0% and less than 2%). This indicates no significant influence of the loss models on the zero coupon CAT bond prices. T D P̂ ∗ (%) M ADA (%) M ADB (%) M AV RDA (%) M AV RDB 1 100 148.576 0.283 0.975 0.329 0.265 1 120 149.637 0.203 0.663 0.270 0.228 1 135 149.637 0.619 0.802 0.619 0.183 2 100 133.422 1.577 2.334 1.577 0.566 2 120 137.439 0.823 1.306 0.823 0.375 2 135 138.873 0.884 1.161 0.930 0.358 3 100 114.866 4.666 5.316 4.666 0.859 3 120 123.177 2.409 2.958 2.409 0.640 3 135 125.766 2.468 2.817 2.468 0.520 Table 5.20: Percentages in terms of P̂ ∗ of the MAD and the MAVRD of the zero coupon CAT bond prices from the loss models number 8, 22, 24 and 25 (M ADA , M AV RDA ) and one hundred simulation of 1000 trajectories of the zero coupon CAT bond prices from the algorithm (M ADB , M AV RDB ), with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D. 77 CMXmycheckvar.xpl 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico In a similar way for the coupon CAT bond prices, Table 5.21 displays the percentages in terms of P̂ ∗ (the coupon CAT bond prices of the modeled loss number 23) of the MAD and the MAVRD of the coupon CAT bond prices from the different loss models (number 8, 22, 24 and 25) and the coupon CAT bond prices from the algorithm, with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D. The algorithm prices are also generated using one hundred simulation of 1000 trajectories of the coupon CAT bond prices. The percentages of the MAD of the coupon CAT bond prices from different loss models are similar to the percentages of the MAD of the algorithm (the difference in percentages is less than 1%). This similarity also holds for the percentages of the MAVRD of the coupon CAT bond prices (the difference in percentages is less than 1.5%). These similarities indicate that the loss models do not have impact on the coupon CAT bond prices. T D P̂ ∗ (%) M ADA (%) M ADB (%) M AV RDA (%) M AV RDB 1 100 151.236 0.513 1.152 0.556 0.257 1 120 152.306 0.398 0.853 0.419 0.216 1 135 152.920 0.383 0.601 0.405 0.178 2 100 139.461 0.966 2.131 0.966 0.475 2 120 142.950 0.731 1.585 0.774 0.395 2 135 145.141 0.337 0.827 0.556 0.354 3 100 124.831 2.412 3.421 2.412 0.823 3 120 131.508 1.844 2.590 1.844 0.708 3 135 134.324 2.071 2.474 2.071 0.600 Table 5.21: Percentages in terms of P̂ ∗ of the MAD and the MAVRD of the coupon CAT bond prices from the loss models number 8, 22, 24 and 25 (M ADA , M AV RDA ) and one hundred simulation of 1000 trajectories of the coupon CAT bond prices from the algorithm (M ADB , M AV RDB ), with respect to expiration time T and threshold level D. CMXmycheckvar1.xpl The previous results reveal no significant impact of the modeled loss on the zero and coupon CAT bond prices. An explanation to this is the quality of the original loss data, where 88% of the data is missing. The expected loss is considerably more important for the CAT bond prices than the entire distribution of losses. This is due to the nonlinear character of the loss function and of the CAT bond price that depend on different variables. An earthquake with two whole numbers magnitude M w higher than the average strength might do more or less than twice the damage of an earthquake of average strength. The left panel of Figure 5.19 presents the zero coupon CAT bond prices at time to maturity T = 3 with respect to the threshold level D. The right panel of Figure 5.19 presents the coupon CAT bond prices at time to maturity T = 3 with respect to the threshold level D. Both panels show the CAT bond prices with Burr and Pareto losses for different models. Figure 5.19 shows that the bond prices are more dispersed under different loss models with the same distribution assumption than under different distribution assumptions with the same loss model. This confirms that the expected losses are more important than the distribution of losses. 78 5 Pricing modeled loss CAT bonds for earthquakes in Mexico The relevance of the model loss trigger mechanism is that it considers different variables that influence the underlying risk. Because of quality of the data, the previous empirical study showed that the modeled loss did not have influence on the CAT bond prices. This analysis may be useful in determining whether, for a given expected loss, the risk of earthquake has an 140 130 CB at T=3 (USD million) 110 120 130 120 110 ZCB at T=3 (USD million) 140 impact on how a bond will be priced relative to an expected level. 100 Figure 5.19: 110 120 Threshold level 130 100 110 120 Threshold level 130 The zero coupon (left panel) and coupon (right panel) CAT bond prices at time to maturity T = 3 years with respect to the threshold level D ∈ [$100, $135] million. The solid lines are the CAT bond prices under the Burr distribution and the dotted lines are the CAT bond prices under the Pareto distribution. The blue solid and dotted lines correspond to the model 8, the red lines to the model 22, the green lines to the model 23, the magenta to the model 24 and the black lines to the model 25 CMX09.xpl 79 CMX10.xpl 6 Conclusion Mexico has a high level of seismic activity due to the interaction between the Cocos plate and the North American plate. In the presence of this, the Mexican government has turned to the capital markets to cover costs of potential earthquake catastrophes, issuing a CAT bond that passes the risk on to investors. This thesis examined the calibration of a real parametric CAT bond that was sponsored by the Mexican government, issued by a special purpose Cayman Islands CAT-MEX Ltd. and structured by Swiss Re AG and Deutsche Bank AG. The calibration of the bond was based on the estimation of the intensity rate that describes the flow process of earthquakes. Under the assumption of perfect markets, actuarial principles were applied to estimate the intensity rates from the reinsurance and capital markets. The actuarially fair reinsurance price is equal to the expected value of the loss from catastrophes and the fair bond price equals to the expected gains from the bond purchase. In addition the historical intensity rate was estimated using the intensity model. This model defines a process Bt to characterize the trigger event process, where the arrival process of earthquakes followed a HPP Nt with intensity λ > 0 and whose times between earthquakes Wi were exponentially distributed with intensity λ. The process Bt counted only earthquakes that trigger the CAT bond’s payoff. However, the dataset contained only three such events, what led to the decomposition of the calibration of the historical intensity rate into the calibration of the intensity of all earthquakes with a magnitude higher than 6.5 M w and the estimation of the probability of the trigger event. The intensity rate estimates from the reinsurance λ1 and capital market λ2 were approximately equal but they deviated from the historical intensity rate λ3 . The absence of the public and liquid market of earthquake risk in the reinsurance market might explain the small difference between the intensity rates from the reinsurance market and the capital market, just limited information is available. Another reason might be that contracts in the capital market are more expensive than contracts in the reinsurance market when considering other risks, such as the cost of risk capital or the risk of default. The differences between the intensity rates λ1 and λ3 or λ2 and λ3 could be explained by the presence of just three trigger events in the historical data. The estimation of λ3 depended on the time period of the historical data. A different period could lead to a lower historical intensity rate. The estimation of λ3 played an important role when one considered it as a reference intensity rate. It involved different interpretations 80 6 Conclusion about the calibration of the parametric CAT bond. Assuming that the historical intensity rate would be the adequately correct one, the results demonstrated that the Mexican government paid total premiums equivalent to 0.75 times the real actuarially fair reinsurance price. One reason might be that Swiss Re estimated a probability of an earthquake lower than the one estimated from historical data. Another explanation could be that the value of the premium is not only exponsed to the loss of the insured event, but to other risk such as the credit risk. Under the same assumption of the historical intensity rate, another argument to the low premiums for covering the seismic risk might be the financial strategy of the government, where 35% of the total seismic risk is transferred to the investors. For the government, this strategy that consists of a mix of reinsurance and CAT bond is optimal in the sense that it provides coverage of $450 million for a lower cost than the reinsurance itself. The decision of the government to issue a parametric CAT bond relies on the fact that it triggers immediately when an earthquake meets the defined physical parameters. There is no threshold for losses, which is more characteristic for CAT bonds issued by insurers and reinsurers. The parametric CAT bond especially helps the government with fast emergency services and rebuilding after a big earthquake. This thesis also derived the price of an hypothetical CAT bond with a modeled loss trigger mechanism for earthquakes. Besides considering the historical information, a modeled loss trigger mechanism takes other variables into account, like the physical characteristics of an earthquake, that can affect the value of losses. The modeled CAT bond price was based on the compound doubly stochastic Poisson pricing methodology from Baryshnikov et al. (1998) and Burnecki and Kukla (2003), where the trigger event was dependent on the frequency and severity of earthquakes. The threshold event was defined as the time when the accumulated losses Ls exceed the threshold level D. It was modelled with a Poisson process Mt with a stochastic intensity Λs depending on the index position. The HPP Nt was the best process to describe the flow of earthquakes. Another important task was the choice of the analytical distribution that describes adequately the losses, because it influenced the CAT bond prices. The parameter estimations were made via the Anderson-Darling minimisation procedure. The non-parametric tests Kolmogorov Smirnov, Kuiper, Crámer-von Mises and Anderson-Darling were applied to tests the goodness of fit. The Burr, Pareto, Gamma and Weibull distribution were analysed and indicated to be the best fits. For all the distributions and by assuming a HPP, the zero and coupon CAT bond prices were computed. They increased as the threshold level D increased, but decreased as the expiration time T increased. This was mainly because the probability of a trigger event increases and more coupon payments are expected to be received. Because of the quality of the data, the results pointed out that different loss models reveal no impact on the CAT bond prices. Due to the nonlinearity of the loss function and of the CAT bond price, the expected loss was considerably more important for the evaluation of a CAT bond than the entire distribution of losses. This analysis may be useful in determining whether, for a given expected loss, the risk of earthquake 81 6 Conclusion has an impact on how a bond will be priced relative to an expected level. The attractive spread rate offered by both CAT bonds was comparable to the premium paid for the insured event. The spread rate was reflected by the intensity rate of the earthquake process in the parametric trigger mechanism. While for the modeled loss trigger mechanism the spread rate was represented by the intensity rate of the earthquake process and the level of accumulated losses Ls . This thesis shows that the trigger mechanism matters for the CAT bond pricing, as long as the expected loss or the arrival process of the underlying are adequately estimated. Without doubt, the availability of information and the quality of the data provided by research institutions attempting earthquakes has a direct impact on the accuracy of this risk analysis and for the evaluation of CAT bonds. The CAT bond market shows a growing trend, but still needs to be adjusted into standard procedures that can be covered with further research. From the point of view of bond holders, the basis risk and moral hazard behaviour of the issuing firm are important factors and should be taken into account when pricing the CAT bond, Lee and Yu (2002). In multi peril CAT bonds, the advance risk model should specify the included risks that are relevant for the pricing of the CAT bond, for example: fire following earthquakes. The CAT bonds pricing should also consider the demand surge (the demand for building materials, repair workers, etc.) that will be reflected later in the inflation. 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