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Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
Supplement to Deontic Logic
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Kripke-Style Semantics for Kd

We define the frames for modeling Kd as follows:

F is an Kd Frame: F = <W, R, DEM> such that: 1) W is a non-empty set
2) R is a subset of W × W
3) DEM is a subset of W
4) ∀ij(Rij & j ∈ DEM).

A model can be defined in the usual way, allowing us to then define truth at a world in a model for all sentences of Kd (as well as for KTd):

M is an Kd Model: M = <F,V>, where F is an Kd Frame, <W,R,DEM>, and V is an assignment on F: V is a function from the propositional variables to various subsets of W.

Basic Truth-Conditions at a world, i, in a Model, M:

[PC]: (Standard Clauses for the operators of Propositional Logic.)
[□]: M modelsip iff ∀j(if Rij then M modelsj p).
[d]: M modelsi d iff i ∈ DEM.

Derivative Truth-Conditions:

[◊]: M models ip: ∃j(Rij & M modelsj p)
[OB]: M modelsi OBp: ∀j[if Rij & j ∈ DEM then M modelsj p]
[PE]: M modelsi PEp: ∃j(Rij & j ∈ DEM & M modelsj p)
[IM]: M modelsi IMp: ∀j[if Rij & j ∈ DEM then M modelsj ~p]
[GR]: M modelsi GRp: ∃j(Rij & j ∈ DEM & M modelsj ~p)
[OP]: M modelsi OPp: ∃j(Rij & j ∈ DEM & M modelsj p) & ∃j(Rij & j ∈ DEM & M modelsj ~p)

(Truth in a model and validity are defined just as for SDL.)

Metatheorem: Kd is sound and complete for the class of all Kd models.

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Copyright © 2006
Paul McNamara
mcnamara.p@comcast.net

Supplement to Deontic Logic
Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy