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Notes to Nineteenth Century Geometry

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* The informal characterization of n-manifolds in the supplement is not altogether accurate and may cover some far-fetched monsters that we do not wish to cover with this concept. For readers who have a smattering of topology the following characterization is preferable.

(a) LetThe pair (Mbe a set of points. Pick a collection of partially overlapping subsets ofM, orpatches,such that every point ofMlies in at least one patch.(b) If U is a patch of M, there is a one-one mapping

fof U onto an open space ofR^{n}, whose inverse we denote byf^{-1}. (R^{n}denotes here the collection of all real number n-tuples, with the standard topology generated by the open balls.) f is a coordinate system orchartofM; the k-th number in the n-tuple assigned by a chartfto a point P inf's domain is called the k-th coordinate of P byf; the k-th coordinate function of chartfis the real-valued function that assigns to each point of the patch its k-th coordinate byf.(c) There is a collection

Aof charts ofMwhich contains at least one chart defined on each patch ofMand is such that, if g and h belong toA, the composite mappings h g^{-1}and g h^{-1}--- known ascoordinate transformations--- are differentiable to every order wherever they are well defined. (Denote the real number n-tuple (a_{1}, ... , a_{n}) bya. h g^{-1}is well defined ataifais the valued assigned by g to some point P ofMto which h also assigns a value. Suppose that the latter value h(P) = (b_{1},...., b_{n}) =b; then,b= h g^{-1}(a). Since h g^{-1}maps a region ofR^{n}intoR^{n}, it makes sense to say that h g^{-1}is differentiable.) Such a collectionAis called anatlasforM.(d) A given atlas

AforMcan be extended in one and only one way to a maximal atlasA_{max}as follows: add toAevery one-one mapping g of a subset ofMonto an open set ofR^{n}which, combined with any chart h ofA, satisfies the condition of differentiability stated under (c).(e)

Mis given the weakest Hausdorff topology that makes every chart g inA_{max}into a homeomorphism. (A topological space is said to be Hausdorff if any two points in it have open neighborhoods that do not overlap.)

Roberto Torretti cordua@vtr.net |

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