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Supplement to The Problem of Evil

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(1) Pr(O/HI) >Pr(O/T) +k(Substantive premise) (2) Pr(O/HI) =Pr(O&HI)/Pr(HI)(Definition of conditional probability) Therefore (3) Pr(O&HI)/Pr(HI) >Pr(O/T) +k(From (1) and (2).) (4) Pr(O/T) =Pr(O&T)/Pr(T)(Definition of conditional probability) Therefore (5) Pr(O&HI)/Pr(HI) >Pr(O&T)/Pr(T) +k(From (3) and (4).) (6) Pr(O&HI) =Pr(HI/O) ×Pr(O)(From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (7) Pr(O&HI)/Pr(HI) =Pr(HI/O) ×Pr(O)/Pr(HI)(From (6).) Therefore (8) Pr(HI/O) ×Pr(O)/Pr(HI) >Pr(O&T)/Pr(T) +k(From (5) and (7).) (9) Pr(O&T) =Pr(T/O) ×Pr(O)(From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (10) Pr(O&T)/Pr(T) =Pr(T/O) ×Pr(O)/Pr(T)(From (9).) Therefore (11) Pr(HI/O) ×Pr(O)/Pr(HI) >Pr(T/O) ×Pr(O)/Pr(T) +k(From (8) and (10).)

(12) Pr(O/HI) > 0(From (1).)

so that

(13) Pr(HI) > 0,(Substantive premise) (14) Pr(OI/HI) ×Pr(HI) =Pr(O&HI) =Pr(HI/O) ×Pr(O)(From the definition of conditional probability) Therefore (15) Pr(O) > 0,(From (12), (13), and (14).)

Then, in view of (15), we can divide both sides of (23) by

(16) Pr(HI/O) >Pr(T/O) ×Pr(HI)/Pr(T) +k×Pr(HI)/Pr(O)(17) HIentails ~T(Substantive premise) Therefore (18) Pr(~T/O)Pr(HI/O)(From (17).) Therefore (19) Pr(~T/O) >Pr(T/O) ×Pr(HI)/Pr(T) +k×Pr(HI)/Pr(O)(From (16) and (18).) (20) Pr(HI)Pr(T)(Substantive premise) Therefore (21) Pr(~T/O) >Pr(T/O) +k×Pr(HI)/Pr(O)(From (19) and (20).) (22) Oentails [(T&O) or (~T&O)] and [(T&O) or (~T&O)] entailsO(Logical truth) Therefore (23) Pr(T&O) +Pr(~T&O) =Pr(O)(From (22).)

(24) Pr(T&O)/Pr(O) +Pr(~T&O)/Pr(O) =Pr(O)/Pr(O) = 1Therefore (25) Pr(T/O) +Pr(~T/O) = 1(From (24).) Therefore (26) Pr(T) < 0.5 -k×Pr(HI)/2 ×Pr(O)(From (21) and (25).)

Michael Tooley Michael.Tooley@Colorado.edu |

Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy