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Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
Some sets, such as the set of all teacups, are not members of themselves. Other sets, such as the set of all non-teacups, are members of themselves. Call the set of all sets that are not members of themselves "R." If R is a member of itself, then by definition it must not be a member of itself. Similarly, if R is not a member of itself, then by definition it must be a member of itself. Discovered by Bertrand Russell in 1901, the paradox has prompted much work in logic, set theory and the philosophy and foundations of mathematics.
Russell wrote to Gottlob Frege with news of his paradox on June 16, 1902. The paradox was of significance to Frege's logical work since, in effect, it showed that the axioms Frege was using to formalize his logic were inconsistent. Specifically, Frege's Rule V, which states that two sets are equal if and only if their corresponding functions coincide in values for all possible arguments, requires that an expression such as f(x) be considered both a function of the argument x and a function of the argument f. In effect, it was this ambiguity that allowed Russell to construct R in such a way that it could both be and not be a member of itself.
Russell's letter arrived just as the second volume of Frege's Grundgesetze der Arithmetik (The Basic Laws of Arithmetic, 1893, 1903) was in press. Immediately appreciating the difficulty the paradox posed, Frege added to the Grundgesetze a hastily composed appendix discussing Russell's discovery. In the appendix Frege observes that the consequences of Russell's paradox are not immediately clear. For example, "Is it always permissible to speak of the extension of a concept, of a class? And if not, how do we recognize the exceptional cases? Can we always infer from the extension of one concept's coinciding with that of a second, that every object which falls under the first concept also falls under the second? These are the questions," Frege notes, "raised by Mr Russell's communication." Because of these worries, Frege eventually felt forced to abandon many of his views about logic and mathematics.
Of course, Russell also was concerned about the contradiction. Upon learning that Frege agreed with him about the significance of the result, he immediately began writing an appendix for his own soon-to-be-released Principles of Mathematics. Entitled "Appendix B: The Doctrine of Types," the appendix represents Russell's first detailed attempt at providing a principled method for avoiding what was soon to become known as "Russell's paradox."
Russell's paradox ultimately stems from the idea that any coherent condition may be used to determine a set. As a result, most attempts at resolving the paradox have concentrated on various ways of restricting the principles governing set existence found within naive set theory, particularly the so-called Comprehension (or Abstraction) axiom. This axiom in effect states that any propositional function, P(x), containing x as a free variable can be used to determine a set. In other words, corresponding to every propositional function, P(x), there will exist a set whose members are exactly those things, x, that have property P. It is now generally, although not universally, agreed that such an axiom must either be abandoned or modified.
Russell's own response to the paradox was his aptly named theory of types. Recognizing that self-reference lies at the heart of the paradox, Russell's basic idea is that we can avoid commitment to R (the set of all sets that are not members of themselves) by arranging all sentences (or, equivalently, all propositional functions) into a hierarchy. The lowest level of this hierarchy will consist of sentences about individuals. The next lowest level will consist of sentences about sets of individuals. The next lowest level will consist of sentences about sets of sets of individuals, and so on. It is then possible to refer to all objects for which a given condition (or predicate) holds only if they are all at the same level or of the same "type."
This solution to Russell's paradox is motivated in large part by the so-called vicious circle principle, a principle which, in effect, states that no propositional function can be defined prior to specifying the function's range. In other words, before a function can be defined, one first has to specify exactly those objects to which the function will apply. (For example, before defining the predicate "is a prime number," one first needs to define the range of objects that this predicate might be said to satisfy, namely the set, N, of natural numbers.) From this it follows that no function's range will ever be able to include any object defined in terms of the function itself. As a result, propositional functions (along with their corresponding propositions) will end up being arranged in a hierarchy of exactly the kind Russell proposes.
Although Russell first introduced his theory of types in his 1903 Principles of Mathematics, type theory found its mature expression five years later in his 1908 article, "Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types," and in the monumental work he co-authored with Alfred North Whitehead, Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913). Russell's type theory thus appears in two versions: the "simple theory" of 1903 and the "ramified theory" of 1908. Both versions have been criticized for being too ad hoc to eliminate the paradox successfully. In addition, even if type theory is successful in eliminating Russell's paradox, it is likely to be ineffective at resolving other, unrelated paradoxes.
Other responses to Russell's paradox have included those of David Hilbert and the formalists (whose basic idea was to allow the use of only finite, well-defined and constructible objects, together with rules of inference deemed to be absolutely certain), and of Luitzen Brouwer and the intuitionists (whose basic idea was that one cannot assert the existence of a mathematical object unless one can also indicate how to go about constructing it).
Yet a fourth response was embodied in Ernst Zermelo's 1908 axiomatization of set theory. Zermelo's axioms were designed to resolve Russell's paradox by again restricting the Comprehension axiom in a manner not dissimilar to that proposed by Russell. ZF and ZFC (i.e., ZF supplemented by the Axiom of Choice), the two axiomatizations generally used today, are modifications of Zermelo's theory developed primarily by Abraham Fraenkel.
Together, these four responses to Russell's paradox have helped logicians develop an explicit awareness of the nature of formal systems and of the kinds of metalogical and metamathematical results commonly associated with them today.
|A. D. Irvine