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# Turing Machine

A Turing machine is an abstract representation of a computing device. It consists of a read/write head that scans a (possibly infinite) two-dimensional tape divided into squares, each of which is inscribed with a 0 or 1. Computation begins with the machine, in a given "state", scanning a square. It erases what it finds there, prints a 0 or 1, moves to an adjacent square, and goes into a new state. This behavior is completely determined by three parameters: (1) the state the machine is in, (2) the number on the square it is scanning, and (3) a table of instructions. The table of instructions specifies, for each state and binary input, what the machine should write, which direction it should move in, and which state it should go into. (E.g., "If in State 1 scanning a 0: print 1, move left, and go into State 3".) The table can list only finitely many states, each of which becomes implicitly defined by the role it plays in the table of instructions. These states are often referred to as the "functional states" of the machine.

A Turing machine, therefore, is more like a computer program (software) than a computer (hardware). Any given Turing machine can be realized or implemented on an infinite number of different physical computing devices. Computer scientists and logicians have shown that Turing machines -- given enough time and tape -- can compute any function that any conventional digital computers can compute. Also, a `probabilistic automaton' can be defined as a Turing machine in which the transition from input and state to output and state takes place with a certain probability (E.g. "If in State 1 scanning a 0: (a) there is a 60% probability that the machine will print 1, move left, and go into State 3, and (b) there is a 40% probability that the machine will print 0, move left, and go into State 2".)

## History

Turing machines were first proposed by Alan Turing, in an attempt to give a mathematically precise definition of "algorithm" or "mechanical procedure". Early work by Turing and Alonzo Church spawned the branch of mathematical logic now known as recursive function theory.

## Later Developments

The concept of a Turing machine has played an important role in the recent philosophy of mind. The suggestion has been made that mental states just are functional states of a probabilistic automaton, in which binary inputs and outputs have been replaced by sensory inputs and motor outputs. This idea underlies the theory of mind known as "machine functionalism".

## Bibliography

• Turing, A., "On Computable Numbers, With an Application to the Entscheidungsproblem", Proceedings of the London Mathematical Soceity, Series 2, Volume 42, 1936; reprinted in M. David (ed.), The Undecidable, Hewlett, NY: Raven Press, 1965
• Boolos, G. and Jeffrey, R., Computability and Logic, 2nd ed., Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1980.
• Putnam, H., "The Nature of Mental States", in Mind, Language and Reality: Philosophical Papers II, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1975

## Related Entries

Turing, Alan | functionalism | artificial intelligence | Church-Turing Thesis