Martin Heidegger (1889–1976) was a German philosopher whose work is perhaps most readily associated with phenomenology and existentialism, although his thinking should be identified as part of such philosophical movements only with extreme care and qualification. His ideas have exerted a seminal influence on the development of contemporary European philosophy. They have also had an impact far beyond philosophy, for example in architectural theory (see e.g., Sharr 2007), literary criticism (see e.g., Ziarek 1989), theology (see e.g., Caputo 1993), psychotherapy (see e.g., Binswanger 1943/1964, Guignon 1993) and cognitive science (see e.g., Dreyfus 1992, 2008; Wheeler 2005; Kiverstein and Wheeler 2012).
- 1. Biographical Sketch
- 2. Being and Time
- 2.1 The Text and its Pre-History
- 2.2 Division 1
- 2.3 Division 2
- 2.4 Realism and Relativism in Being and Time
- 3. The Later Philosophy
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
Martin Heidegger was born in Messkirch, Germany, on September 26, 1889. Messkirch was then a quiet, conservative, religious rural town, and as such was a formative influence on Heidegger and his philosophical thought. In 1909 he spent two weeks in the Jesuit order before leaving (probably on health grounds) to study theology at the University of Freiburg. In 1911 he switched subjects, to philosophy. He began teaching at Freiburg in 1915. In 1917 he married Elfride Petri, with whom he had two sons (Jörg and Hermann) and from whom he never parted (although his affair with the philosopher Hannah Arendt, his student at Marburg in the 1920s, is well-known).
Heidegger's philosophical development began when he read Brentano and Aristotle, plus the latter's medieval scholastic interpreters. Indeed, Aristotle's demand in the Metaphysics to know what it is that unites all possible modes of Being (or ‘is-ness’) is, in many ways, the question that ignites and drives Heidegger's philosophy. From this platform he proceeded to engage deeply with Kant, Kierkegaard, Nietzsche, and, perhaps most importantly of all for his subsequent thinking in the 1920s, two further figures: Dilthey (whose stress on the role of interpretation and history in the study of human activity profoundly influenced Heidegger) and Husserl (whose understanding of phenomenology as a science of essences he was destined to reject). In 1915 Husserl took up a post at Freiburg and in 1919 Heidegger became his assistant. Heidegger spent a period (of reputedly brilliant) teaching at the University of Marburg (1923–1928), but then returned to Freiburg to take up the chair vacated by Husserl on his retirement. Out of such influences, explorations, and critical engagements, Heidegger's magnum opus, Being and Time (Sein und Zeit) was born. Although Heidegger's academic and intellectual relationship with his Freiburg predecessor was complicated and occasionally strained (see Crowell 2005), Being and Time was dedicated to Husserl, “in friendship and admiration”.
Published in 1927, Being and Time is standardly hailed as one of the most significant texts in the canon of (what has come to be called) contemporary European (or Continental) Philosophy. It catapulted Heidegger to a position of international intellectual visibility and provided the philosophical impetus for a number of later programmes and ideas in the contemporary European tradition, including Sartre's existentialism, Gadamer's philosophical hermeneutics, and Derrida's notion of ‘deconstruction’. Moreover, Being and Time, and indeed Heidegger's philosophy in general, has been presented and engaged with by thinkers such as Dreyfus (e.g., 1990) and Rorty (e.g., 1991a, b) who work somewhere near the interface between the contemporary European and the analytic traditions. A cross-section of broadly analytic reactions to Heidegger (positive and negative) may be found alongside other responses in (Murray 1978). Being and Time is discussed in section 2 of this article.
In 1933 Heidegger joined the Nazi Party and was elected Rector of Freiburg University, where, depending on whose account one believes, he either enthusiastically implemented the Nazi policy of bringing university education into line with Hitler's nauseating political programme (Pattison 2000) or he allowed that policy to be officially implemented while conducting a partially underground campaign of resistance to some of its details, especially its anti-Semitism (see Heidegger's own account in Only a God can Save Us). During the short period of his rectorship—he resigned in 1934—Heidegger gave a number of public speeches (including his inaugural rectoral address; see below) in which Nazi images plus occasional declarations of support for Hitler are integrated with the philosophical language of Being and Time. After 1934 Heidegger became increasingly distanced from Nazi politics. Although he didn't leave the Nazi party, he did attract some unwelcome attention from its enthusiasts. After the war, however, a university denazification committee at Freiburg investigated Heidegger and banned him from teaching, a right which he did not get back until 1949. One year later he was made professor Emeritus. Against this background of contrary information, one will search in vain through Heidegger's later writings for the sort of total and unambiguous repudiation of National Socialism that one might hope to find. The philosophical character of Heidegger's involvement with Nazism is discussed later in this article.
After Being and Time there is a reorienting shift in Heidegger's philosophy known as ‘the turn’ (die Kehre). Exactly when this occurs is a matter of debate, although it is probably safe to say that it is in progress by 1930 and largely established by the early 1940s. If dating the turn has its problems, saying exactly what it involves is altogether more challenging. Indeed, Heidegger himself characterized it not as a turn in his own thinking (or at least in his thinking alone) but as a turn in Being. As he later put it in a preface he wrote to Richardson's ground-breaking text on his work (Richardson 1963), the “Kehre is at work within the issue [that is named by the titles ‘Being and Time’/‘Time and Being.’]… It is not something that I did, nor does it pertain to my thinking only”. The core elements of the turn are indicated in what is now considered by many commentators to be Heidegger's second greatest work, Contributions to Philosophy (From Enowning), (Beitrage zur Philosophie (Vom Ereignis)). This uncompromising text was written in 1936–7, but was not published in German until 1989 and not in English translation until 1999. Section 3 of this article will attempt to navigate the main currents of the turn, and thus of Heidegger's later philosophy, in the light of this increasingly discussed text.
Heidegger died in Freiburg on May 26, 1976. He was buried in Messkirch.
Being and Time is a long and complex book. The reader is immediately struck by what Mulhall (2005, viii) calls the “tortured intensity of [Heidegger's] prose”, although if the text is read in its original German it is possible to hear the vast number of what appear to be neologisms as attempts to reanimate the German language. According to this latter gloss, the linguistic constructions concerned—which involve hyphenations, unusual prefixes and uncommon suffixes—reveal the hidden meanings and resonances of ordinary talk. In any case, for many readers, the initially strange and difficult language of Being and Time is fully vindicated by the realization that Heidegger is struggling to say things for which our conventional terms and linguistic constructions are ultimately inadequate. Indeed, for some thinkers who have toiled in its wake, Heidegger's language becomes the language of philosophy (although for an alternative and critical view of the language of Being and Time, see Adorno 1964/2002). Viewed from the perspective of Heidegger's own intentions, the work is incomplete. It was meant to have two parts, each of which was supposed to be divided into three divisions. What we have published under the title of Being and Time are the first two divisions of (the intended) part one. The reasons for this incompleteness will be explored later in this article.
One might reasonably depict the earliest period of Heidegger's philosophical work, in Freiburg (1915–23) and Marburg (1923–6), before he commenced the writing of Being and Time itself, as the pre-history of that seminal text (although for an alternative analysis that stresses not only a back-and-forth movement in Heidegger's earliest thought between theology and philosophy, but also the continuity between that earliest thought and the later philosophy, see van Buren 1994, 2005). Viewed in relation to Being and Time, the central philosophical theme in these early years is Heidegger's complex critical relationship with Husserl's transcendental phenomenology—what Crowell (2005, p.49) calls “a dynamic of attraction and repulsion”—as driven by Heidegger's transformative reading of Aristotle. As early as a 1919 lecture course, for example, we find Heidegger arguing that Husserl's view (developed in the Logical Investigations, Husserl 1900/1973), that philosophy should renounce theory and concentrate on the things given directly in consciousness, is flawed because such givenness is itself a theoretical construct. For the young Heidegger, then, it is already the case that phenomenological analysis starts not with Husserlian intentionality (the consciousness of objects), but rather with an interpretation of the pre-theoretical conditions for there to be such intentionality. This idea will later be central to, and elaborated within, Being and Time, by which point a number of important developments (explained in more detail later in this article) will have occurred in Heidegger's thinking: the Husserlian notion of formal ontology (the study of the a priori categories that describe objects of any sort, by means of our judgments and perceptions) will have been transformed into fundamental ontology (a neo-Aristotelian search for what it is that unites and makes possible our varied and diverse senses of what it is to be); Husserl's transcendental consciousness (the irreducible thinking ego or subject that makes possible objective inquiry) will have been transfigured into Dasein (the inherently social being who already operates with a pre-theoretical grasp of the a priori structures that make possible particular modes of Being); and Husserlian intentionality (a consciousness of objects) will have been replaced by the concept of care or Being-in-the-world (a non-intentional, or perhaps pre-intentional, openness to a world).
Each of these aspects of Heidegger's framework in Being and Time emerges out of his radical rethinking of Aristotle, a rethinking that finds its fullest and most explicit expression in a 1925–6 lecture course entitled Logik (later renamed Logik (Aristoteles) by Heidegger's student Helene Weiß, in order to distinguish this lecture course from a later one he gave also entitled Logik; see Kisiel 1993, 559, note 23). On Heidegger's interpretation (see Sheehan 1975), Aristotle holds that since every meaningful appearance of beings involves an event in which a human being takes a being as—as, say, a ship in which one can sail or as a god that one should respect—what unites all the different modes of Being is that they realize some form of presence (present-ness) to human beings. This presence-to is expressed in the ‘as’ of ‘taking-as’. Thus the unity of the different modes of Being is grounded in a capacity for taking-as (making-present-to) that Aristotle argues is the essence of human existence. Heidegger's response, in effect, is to suggest that although Aristotle is on the right track, he has misconceived the deep structure of taking-as. For Heidegger, taking-as is grounded not in multiple modes of presence, but rather in a more fundamental temporal unity (remember, it's Being and time, more on this later) that characterizes Being-in-the-world (care). This engagement with Aristotle—the Aristotle, that is, that Heidegger unearths during his early years in Freiburg and Marburg—explains why, as Sheehan (1975, 87) puts it, “Aristotle appears directly or indirectly on virtually every page” of Being and Time. (For more on Heidegger's pre-Being-and-Time period, see e.g., Kisiel 1993, Kisiel and van Buren 1994, and Heidegger's early occasional writings as reproduced in the collection Becoming Heidegger. For more on the philosophical relationship between Husserl and Heidegger, see e.g., Crowell 2001 and the review of Crowell's book by Carman 2002; Dahlstrom 1994; Dostal 1993; Overgaard 2003.)
Let's back up in order to bring Heidegger's central concern into better view. (The ‘way in’ to Being and Time that I am about to present follows Gelven 1989 6–7.) Consider some philosophical problems that will be familiar from introductory metaphysics classes: Does the table that I think I see before me exist? Does God exist? Does mind, conceived as an entity distinct from body, exist? These questions have the following form: does x (where x = some particular kind of thing) exist? Questions of this form presuppose that we already know what ‘to exist’ means. We typically don't even notice this presupposition. But Heidegger does, which is why he raises the more fundamental question: what does ‘to exist’ mean? This is one way of asking what Heidegger calls the question of the meaning of Being, and Being and Time is an investigation into that question.
Many of Heidegger's translators capitalize the word ‘Being’ (Sein) to mark what, in the Basic Problems of Phenomenology, Heidegger will later call the ontological difference, the crucial distinction between Being and beings (entities). The question of the meaning of Being is concerned with what it is that makes beings intelligible as beings, and whatever that factor (Being) is, it is seemingly not itself simply another being among beings. Unfortunately the capitalization of ‘Being’ also has the disadvantage of suggesting that Being is, as Sheehan (2001) puts it, an ethereal metaphysical something that lies beyond entities, what he calls ‘Big Being’. But to think of Being in this way would be to commit the very mistake that the capitalization is supposed to help us avoid. For while Being is always the Being of some entity, Being is not itself some kind of higher-order being waiting to be discovered. As long as we remain alert to this worry, we can follow the otherwise helpful path of capitalization.
According to Heidegger, the question of the meaning of Being, and thus Being as such, has been forgotten by ‘the tradition’ (roughly, Western philosophy from Plato onwards). Heidegger means by this that the history of Western thought has failed to heed the ontological difference, and so has articulated Being precisely as a kind of ultimate being, as evidenced by a series of namings of Being, for example as idea, energeia, substance, monad or will to power. In this way Being as such has been forgotten. So Heidegger sets himself the task of recovering the question of the meaning of Being. In this context he draws two distinctions between different kinds of inquiry. The first, which is just another way of expressing the ontological difference, is between the ontical and the ontological, where the former is concerned with facts about entities and the latter is concerned with the meaning of Being, with how entities are intelligible as entities. Using this technical language, we can put the point about the forgetting of Being as such by saying that the history of Western thought is characterized by an ‘onticization’ of Being (by the practice of treating Being as a being). However, as Heidegger explains, here in the words of Kant and the Problem of Metaphysics, “an ontic knowledge can never alone direct itself ‘to’ the objects, because without the ontological… it can have no possible Whereto” (translation taken from Overgaard 2002, p.76, note 7). The second distinction between different kinds of inquiry, drawn within the category of the ontological, is between regional ontology and fundamental ontology, where the former is concerned with the ontologies of particular domains, say biology or banking, and the latter is concerned with the a priori, transcendental conditions that make possible particular modes of Being (i.e., particular regional ontologies). For Heidegger, the ontical presupposes the regional-ontological, which in turn presupposes the fundamental-ontological. As he puts it:
The question of Being aims… at ascertaining the a priori conditions not only for the possibility of the sciences which examine beings as beings of such and such a type, and, in doing so, already operate with an understanding of Being, but also for the possibility of those ontologies themselves which are prior to the ontical sciences and which provide their foundations. Basically, all ontology, no matter how rich and firmly compacted a system of categories it has at its disposal, remains blind and perverted from its ownmost aim, if it has not first adequately clarified the meaning of Being, and conceived this clarification as its fundamental task. (Being and Time 3: 31) (References to Being and Time will be given in the form of ‘section: page number’, where ‘page number’ refers to the widely used Macquarrie and Robinson English translation.)
So how do we carry out fundamental ontology, and thus answer the question of the meaning of Being? It is here that Heidegger introduces the notion of Dasein (Da-sein: there-being). One proposal for how to think about the term ‘Dasein’ is that it is Heidegger's label for the distinctive mode of Being realized by human beings (for this reading, see e.g., Brandom 2002, 325). Haugeland (2005, 422) complains that this interpretation clashes unhelpfully with Heidegger's identification of care as the Being of Dasein, given Heidegger's prior stipulation that Being is always the Being of some possible entity. To keep ‘Dasein’ on the right side of the ontological difference, then, we might conceive of it as Heidegger's term for the distinctive kind of entity that human beings as such are. This fits with many of Heidegger's explicit characterizations of Dasein (see e.g., Being and Time 2: 27, 3: 32), and it probably deserves to be called the standard view in the secondary literature (see e.g., Haugeland 2005 for an explicit supporting case). That said, one needs to be careful about precisely what sort of entity we are talking about here. For Dasein is not to be understood as ‘the biological human being’. Nor is it to be understood as ‘the person’. Haugeland (2005, 423) argues that Dasein is “a way of life shared by the members of some community”. (As Haugeland notes, there is an analogy here, one that Heidegger himself draws, with the way in which we might think of a language existing as an entity, that is, as a communally shared way of speaking.) This appeal to the community will assume a distinctive philosophical shape as the argument of Being and Time progresses.
The foregoing considerations bring an important question to the fore: what, according to Heidegger, is so special about human beings as such? Here there are broadly speaking two routes that one might take through the text of Being and Time. The first unfolds as follows. If we look around at beings in general—from particles to planets, ants to apes—it is human beings alone who are able to encounter the question of what it means to be (e.g., in moments of anxiety in which the world can appear meaning-less, more on which later). More specifically, it is human beings alone who (a) operate in their everyday activities with an understanding of Being (although, as we shall see, one which is pre-ontological, in that it is implicit and vague) and (b) are able to reflect upon what it means to be. This gives us a way of understanding statements such as “Dasein is ontically distinguished by the fact that, in its very Being, that Being is an issue for it” (Being and Time 4: 32). Mulhall, who tends to pursue this way of characterizing Dasein, develops the idea by explaining that while inanimate objects merely persist through time and while plants and non-human animals have their lives determined entirely by the demands of survival and reproduction, human beings lead their lives (Mulhall 2005, 15). In terms of its deep ontological structure, although not typically in terms of how it presents itself to the individual in consciousness, each moment in a human life constitutes a kind of branch-point at which a person ‘chooses’ a kind of life, a possible way to be. It is crucial to emphasize that one may, in the relevant sense, ‘choose’ an existing path simply by continuing unthinkingly along it, since in principle at least, and within certain limits, one always had, and still has, the capacity to take a different path. (This gives us a sense of human freedom, one that will be unpacked more carefully below.) This can all sound terribly inward-looking, but that is not Heidegger's intention. In a way that is about to become clearer, Dasein's projects and possibilities are essentially bound up with the ways in which other entities may become intelligible. Moreover, terms such as ‘lead’ and ‘choose’ must be interpreted in the light of Heidegger's account of care as the Being of Dasein (see later), an account that blunts any temptation to hear these terms in a manner that suggests inner deliberation or planning on the part of a reflective subject. (So perhaps Mulhall's point that human beings are distinctive in that they lead their lives would be better expressed as the observation that human beings are the nuclei of lives laying themselves out.)
The second route to an understanding of Dasein, and thus of what is special about human beings as such, emphasizes the link with the taking-as structure highlighted earlier. Sheehan (2001) develops just such a line of exegesis by combining two insights. The first is that the ‘Da’ of Da-sein may be profitably translated not as ‘there’ but as ‘open’. This openness is in turn to be understood as ‘the possibility of taking-as’ and thus as a preintellectual openness to Being that is necessary for us to encounter beings as beings in particular ways (e.g., practically, theoretically, aesthetically). Whether or not the standard translation of ‘Da’ as ‘there’ is incapable of doing justice to this idea is moot—one might express the same view by saying that to be Dasein is to be there, in the midst of entities making sense a certain way. Nevertheless, the term ‘openness’ does seem to provide a nicely graphic expression of the phenomenon in question. Sheehan's second insight, driven by a comment of Heidegger's in the Zollikon seminars to the effect that the verbal emphasis in ‘Da-sein’ is to be placed on the second syllable, is that the ‘sein’ of ‘Da-sein’ should be heard as ‘having-to-be’, in contrast with ‘occasionally or contingently is’. These dual insights lead to a characterization of Dasein as the having-to-be-open. In other words, Dasein (and so human beings as such) cannot but be open: it is a necessary characteristic of human beings (an a priori structure of our existential constitution, not an exercise of our wills) that we operate with the sense-making capacity to take-other-beings-as.
The two interpretative paths that we have just walked are not necessarily in conflict: in the words of Vallega-Neu (2003, 12), “in existing, Dasein occurs… as a transcending beyond beings into the disclosure of being as such, so that in this transcending not only its own possibilities of being [our first route] but also the being of other beings [our second route] is disclosed”. And this helps us to grasp the meaning of Heidegger's otherwise opaque claim that Dasein, and indeed only Dasein, exists, where existence is understood (via etymological considerations) as ek-sistence, that is, as a standing out. Dasein stands out in two senses, each of which corresponds to one of the two dimensions of our proposed interpretation. First, Dasein can stand back or ‘out’ from its own occurrence in the world and observe itself (see e.g., Gelven 1989, 49). Second, Dasein stands out in an openness to and an opening of Being (see e.g., Vallega-Neu 2004, 11–12).
As we have seen, it is an essential characteristic of Dasein that, in its ordinary ways of engaging with other entities, it operates with a preontological understanding of Being, that is, with a distorted or buried grasp of the a priori conditions that, by underpinning the taking-as structure, make possible particular modes of Being. This suggests that a disciplined investigation of those everyday modes of engagement on the part of Dasein (what Heidegger calls an “existential analytic of Dasein”) will be a first step towards revealing a shared but hidden underlying meaning of Being. Heidegger puts it like this:
whenever an ontology takes for its theme entities whose character of Being is other than that of Dasein, it has its own foundation and motivation in Dasein's own ontical structure, in which a pre-ontological understanding of Being is comprised as a definite characteristic… Therefore fundamental ontology, from which alone all other ontologies can take their rise, must be sought in the existential analytic of Dasein. (Being and Time 3: 33–4)
It is important to stress here that, in Heidegger's eyes, this prioritizing of Dasein does not lead to (what he calls) “a vicious subjectivizing of the totality of entities” (Being and Time 4: 34). This resistance towards any unpalatable anti-realism is an issue to which we shall return.
Dasein is, then, our primary ‘object’ of study, and our point of investigative departure is Dasein's everyday encounters with entities. But what sort of philosophical method is appropriate for the ensuing examination? Famously, Heidegger's adopted method is a species of phenomenology. In the Heideggerian framework, however, phenomenology is not to be understood (as it sometimes is) as the study of how things merely appear in experience. Rather, in a recognizably Kantian staging of the idea, Heidegger follows Husserl (1913/1983) in conceiving of phenomenology as a theoretical enterprise that takes ordinary experience as its point of departure, but which, through an attentive and sensitive examination of that experience, aims to reveal the a priori, transcendental conditions that shape and structure it. In Heidegger's Being-centred project, these are the conditions “which, in every kind of Being that factical Dasein may possess, persist as determinative for the character of its Being” (Being and Time 5: 38). Presupposed by ordinary experience, these structures must in some sense be present with that experience, but they are not simply available to be read off from its surface, hence the need for disciplined and careful phenomenological analysis to reveal them as they are. So far so good. But, in a departure from the established Husserlian position, one that demonstrates the influence of Dilthey, Heidegger claims that phenomenology is not just transcendental, it is hermeneutic (for discussion, see e.g., Caputo 1984, Kisiel 2002 chapter 8). In other words, its goal is always to deliver an interpretation of Being, an interpretation that, on the one hand, is guided by certain historically embedded ways of thinking (ways of taking-as reflected in Dasein's preontological understanding of Being) that the philosopher as Dasein and as interpreter brings to the task, and, on the other hand, is ceaselessly open to revision, enhancement and replacement. For Heidegger, this hermeneutic structure is not a limitation on understanding, but a precondition of it, and philosophical understanding (conceived as fundamental ontology) is no exception. Thus Being and Time itself has a spiral structure in which a sequence of reinterpretations produces an ever more illuminating comprehension of Being. As Heidegger puts it later in the text:
What is decisive is not to get out of the circle but to come into it the right way… In the circle is hidden a positive possibility of the most primordial kind of knowing. To be sure, we genuinely take hold of this possibility only when, in our interpretation, we have understood that our first, last and constant task is never to allow our fore-having, fore-sight and fore-conception to be presented to us by fancies and popular conceptions, but rather to make the scientific theme secure by working out these fore-structures in terms of the things themselves. (Being and Time 32: 195)
On the face of it, the hermeneutic conception of phenomenology sits unhappily with a project that aims to uncover the a priori transcendental conditions that make possible particular modes of Being (which is arguably one way of glossing the project of “working out [the] fore-structures [of understanding] in terms of the things themselves”). And this is a tension that, it seems fair to say, is never fully resolved within the pages of Being and Time. The best we can do is note that, by the end of the text, the transcendental has itself become historically embedded. More on that below. What is also true is that there is something of a divide in certain areas of contemporary Heidegger scholarship over whether one should emphasize the transcendental dimension of Heidegger's phenomenology (e.g., Crowell 2001, Crowell and Malpas 2007) or the hermeneutic dimension (e.g., Kisiel 2002).
How, then, does the existential analytic unfold? Heidegger argues that we ordinarily encounter entities as (what he calls) equipment, that is, as being for certain sorts of tasks (cooking, writing, hair-care, and so on). Indeed we achieve our most primordial (closest) relationship with equipment not by looking at the entity in question, or by some detached intellectual or theoretical study of it, but rather by skillfully manipulating it in a hitch-free manner. Entities so encountered have their own distinctive kind of Being that Heidegger famously calls readiness-to-hand. Thus:
The less we just stare at the hammer-thing, and the more we seize hold of it and use it, the more primordial does our relationship to it become, and the more unveiledly is it encountered as that which it is—as equipment. The hammering itself uncovers the specific ‘manipulability’ of the hammer. The kind of Being which equipment possesses—in which it manifests itself in its own right—we call ‘readiness-to-hand’. (Being and Time 15: 98)
Readiness-to-hand has a distinctive phenomenological signature. While engaged in hitch-free skilled activity, Dasein has no conscious experience of the items of equipment in use as independent objects (i.e., as the bearers of determinate properties that exist independently of the Dasein-centred context of action in which the equipmental entity is involved). Thus, while engaged in trouble-free hammering, the skilled carpenter has no conscious recognition of the hammer, the nails, or the work-bench, in the way that one would if one simply stood back and thought about them. Tools-in-use become phenomenologically transparent. Moreover, Heidegger claims, not only are the hammer, nails, and work-bench in this way not part of the engaged carpenter's phenomenal world, neither, in a sense, is the carpenter. The carpenter becomes absorbed in his activity in such a way that he has no awareness of himself as a subject over and against a world of objects. Crucially, it does not follow from this analysis that Dasein's behaviour in such contexts is automatic, in the sense of there being no awareness present at all, but rather that the awareness that is present (what Heidegger calls circumspection) is non-subject-object in form. Phenomenologically speaking, then, there are no subjects and no objects; there is only the experience of the ongoing task (e.g., hammering).
Heidegger, then, denies that the categories of subject and object characterize our most basic way of encountering entities. He maintains, however, that they apply to a derivative kind of encounter. When Dasein engages in, for example, the practices of natural science, when sensing takes place purely in the service of reflective or philosophical contemplation, or when philosophers claim to have identified certain context-free metaphysical building blocks of the universe (e.g., points of pure extension, monads), the entities under study are phenomenologically removed from the settings of everyday equipmental practice and are thereby revealed as fully fledged independent objects, that is, as the bearers of certain context-general determinate or measurable properties (size in metres, weight in kilos etc.). Heidegger calls this mode of Being presence-at-hand, and he sometimes refers to present-at-hand entities as ‘Things’. With this phenomenological transformation in the mode of Being of entities comes a corresponding transformation in the mode of Being of Dasein. Dasein becomes a subject, one whose project is to explain and predict the behaviour of an independent, objective universe. Encounters with the present-at-hand are thus fundamentally subject-object in structure.
The final phenomenological category identified during the first phase of the existential analytic is what Heidegger calls un-readiness-to-hand. This mode of Being of entities emerges when skilled practical activity is disturbed by broken or malfunctioning equipment, discovered-to-be-missing equipment, or in-the-way equipment. When encountered as un-ready-to-hand, entities are no longer phenomenologically transparent. However, they are not yet the fully fledged objects of the present-at-hand, since their broken, malfunctioning, missing or obstructive status is defined relative to a particular equipmental context. The combination of two key passages illuminates this point: First:
[The] presence-at-hand of something that cannot be used is still not devoid of all readiness-to-hand whatsoever; equipment which is present-at-hand in this way is still not just a Thing which occurs somewhere. The damage to the equipment is still not a mere alteration of a Thing—not a change of properties which just occurs in something present-at-hand. (Being and Time 16: 103)
When something cannot be used—when, for instance, a tool definitely refuses to work—it can be conspicuous only in and for dealings in which something is manipulated. (Being and Time 68: 406)
Thus a driver does not encounter a punctured tyre as a lump of rubber of measurable mass; she encounters it as a damaged item of equipment, that is, as the cause of a temporary interruption to her driving activity. With such disturbances to skilled activity, Dasein emerges as a practical problem solver whose context-embedded actions are directed at restoring smooth skilled activity.
Although Heidegger does not put things this way, the complex intermediate realm of the un-ready-to-hand is seemingly best thought of as a spectrum of cases characterized by different modes and degrees of engagement/disengagement. Much of the time Dasein's practical problem solving will involve recovery strategies (e.g., switching to a different mode of transport) which preserve the marks of fluid and flexible know-how that are present in ready-to-hand contexts. In the limit, however (e.g., when a mechanic uses his theoretical knowledge of how cars work to guide a repair), Dasein's problem solving activity will begin to approximate the theoretical reasoning distinctive of scientific inquiry into present-at-hand entities. But even here Dasein is not ‘just theorizing’ or ‘just looking’, so it is not yet, in Heidegger's terms, a pure disengaged subject. With this spectrum of cases in view, it is possible to glimpse a potential worry for Heidegger's account. Cappuccio and Wheeler (2010; see also Wheeler 2005, 143) argue that the situation of wholly transparent readiness-to-hand is something of an ideal state. Skilled activity is never (or very rarely) perfectly smooth. Moreover, minimal subjective activity (such as a nonconceptual awareness of certain spatially situated movements by my body) produces a background noise that never really disappears. Thus a distinction between Dasein and its environment is, to some extent, preserved, and this distinction arguably manifests the kind of minimal subject-object dichotomy that is characteristic of those cases of un-readiness-to-hand that lie closest to readiness-to-hand.
On the interpretation of Heidegger just given, Dasein's access to the world is only intermittently that of a representing subject. An alternative reading, according to which Dasein always exists as a subject relating to the world via representations, is defended by Christensen (1997, 1998). Christensen targets Dreyfus (1990) as a prominent and influential exponent of the intermittent-subject view. Among other criticisms, Christensen accuses Dreyfus of mistakenly hearing Heidegger's clear rejection of the thought that Dasein's access to the world is always theoretical (or theory-like) in character as being, at the same time, a rejection of the thought that Dasein's access to the world is always in the mode of a representing subject; but, argues Christensen, there may be non-theoretical forms of the subject-world relation, so the claim that Heidegger advocated the second rejection is not established by pointing out that he advocated the first. Let's assume that Christensen is right about this. The supporter of the intermittent-subject view might still argue that although Heidegger holds that Dasein sometimes emerges as a subject whose access to the world is non-theoretical (plausibly, in certain cases of un-readiness-to-hand), there is other textual evidence, beyond that which indicates the non-theoretical character of hitch-free skilled activity, to suggest that readiness-to-hand must remain non-subject-object in form. Whether or not there is such evidence would then need to be settled.
What the existential analytic has given us so far is a phenomenological description of Dasein's within-the-world encounters with entities. The next clarification concerns the notion of world and the associated within-ness of Dasein. Famously, Heidegger writes of Dasein as Being-in-the-world. In effect, then, the notion of Being-in-the-world provides us with a reinterpretation of the activity of existing (Dreyfus 1990, 40), where existence is given the narrow reading (ek-sistence) identified earlier. Understood as a unitary phenomenon (as opposed to a contingent, additive, tripartite combination of Being, in-ness, and the world), Being-in-the-world is an essential characteristic of Dasein. As Heidegger explains:
Being-in is not a ‘property’ which Dasein sometimes has and sometimes does not have, and without which it could just be just as well as it could be with it. It is not the case that man ‘is’ and then has, by way of an extra, a relationship-of-Being towards the ‘world’—a world with which he provides himself occasionally. Dasein is never ‘proximally’ an entity which is, so to speak, free from Being-in, but which sometimes has the inclination to take up a ‘relationship’ towards the world. Taking up relationships towards the world is possible only because Dasein, as Being-in-the-world, is as it is. This state of Being does not arise just because some entity is present-at-hand outside of Dasein and meets up with it. Such an entity can ‘meet up with’ Dasein only in so far as it can, of its own accord, show itself within a world. (Being and Time 12: 84)
As this passage makes clear, the Being-in dimension of Being-in-the-world cannot be thought of as a merely spatial relation in some sense that might be determined by a GPS device, since Dasein is never just present-at-hand within the world in the way demanded by that sort of spatial in-ness. Heidegger sometimes uses the term dwelling to capture the distinctive manner in which Dasein is in the world. To dwell in a house is not merely to be inside it spatially in the sense just canvassed. Rather, it is to belong there, to have a familiar place there. It is in this sense that Dasein is (essentially) in the world. (Heidegger will later introduce an existential notion of spatiality that does help to illuminate the sense in which Dasein is in the world. More on that below.) So now, what is the world such that Dasein (essentially) dwells in it? To answer this question we need to spend some time unpacking the Heideggerian concept of an ‘involvement’ (Bewandtnis).
The German term Bewandtnis is extremely difficult to translate in a way that captures all its native nuances (for discussion, see Tugendhat 1967; thanks to a reviewer for emphasizing this point). And things are made more complicated by the fact that, during his exposition, Heidegger freely employs a number of closely related notions, including ‘assignment’, ‘indication’ and ‘reference’. Nevertheless, what is clear is that Heidegger introduces the term that Macquarrie and Robinson translate as ‘involvement’ to express the roles that equipmental entities play—the ways in which they are involved—in Dasein's everyday patterns of activity. Crucially, for Heidegger, an involvement is not a stand-alone structure, but rather a link in a network of intelligibility that he calls a totality of involvements. Take the stock Heideggerian example: the hammer is involved in an act of hammering; that hammering is involved in making something fast; and that making something fast is involved in protecting the human agent against bad weather. Such totalities of involvements are the contexts of everyday equipmental practice. As such, they define equipmental entities, so the hammer is intelligible as what it is only with respect to the shelter and, indeed, all the other items of equipment to which it meaningfully relates in Dasein's everyday practices. This relational ontology generates what Brandom (1983, 391–3) calls Heidegger's ‘strong systematicity condition’, as given voice in Heidegger's striking claim that “[t]aken strictly, there ‘is’ no such thing as an equipment” (Being and Time, 15: 97). And this radical holism spreads, because once one begins to trace a path through a network of involvements, one will inevitably traverse vast regions of involvement-space. Thus links will be traced not only from hammers to hammering to making fast to protection against the weather, but also from hammers to pulling out nails to dismantling wardrobes to moving house. This behaviour will refer back to many other behaviours (packing, van-driving) and thus to many other items of equipment (large boxes, removal vans), and so on. The result is a large-scale holistic network of interconnected relational significance. Such networks constitute worlds, in one of Heidegger's key senses of the term—an ontical sense that he describes as having a pre-ontological signification (Being and Time 14: 93).
Before a second key sense of the Heideggerian notion of world is revealed, some important detail can be added to the emerging picture. Heidegger points out that involvements are not uniform structures. Thus I am currently working with a computer (a with-which), in the practical context of my office (an in-which), in order to write this encyclopedia entry (an in-order-to), which is aimed towards presenting an introduction to Heidegger's philosophy (a towards-this), for the sake of my academic work, that is, for the sake of my being an academic (a for-the-sake-of-which). The final involvement here, the for-the-sake-of-which, is crucial, because according to Heidegger all totalities of involvements have a link of this type at their base. This forges a connection between (i) the idea that each moment in Dasein's existence constitutes a branch-point at which it chooses a way to be, and (ii) the claim that Dasein's projects and possibilities are essentially bound up with the ways in which other entities may become intelligible. This is because every for-the-sake-of-which is the base structure of an equipment-defining totality of involvements and reflects a possible way for Dasein to be (an academic, a carpenter, a parent, or whatever). Moreover, given that entities are intelligible only within contexts of activity that, so to speak, arrive with Dasein, this helps to explain Heidegger's claim (Being and Time 16: 107) that, in encounters with entities, the world is something with which Dasein is always already familiar. Finally, it puts further flesh on the phenomenological category of the un-ready-to-hand. Thus when I am absorbed in trouble-free typing, the computer and the role that it plays in my academic activity are transparent aspects of my experience. But if the computer crashes, I become aware of it as an entity with which I was working in the practical context of my office, in order to write an encyclopedia entry aimed towards presenting an introduction to Heidegger's philosophy. And I become aware of the fact that my behaviour is being organized for the sake of my being an academic. So disturbances have the effect of exposing totalities of involvements and, therefore, worlds. (For a second way in which worlds are phenomenologically ‘lit up’, see Heidegger's analysis of signs (Being and Time 17:107–114); for discussion, see Dreyfus 1990, 100–2, Cappuccio and Wheeler 2010.)
As already indicated, Heidegger sometimes uses the expression ‘world’ in a different key sense, to designate what he calls the “ontologico-existential concept of worldhood” (Being and Time 14: 93). At this point in the existential analytic, worldhood is usefully identified as the abstract network mode of organizational configuration that is shared by all concrete totalities of involvements. We shall see, however, that as the hermeneutic spiral of the text unfolds, the notion of worldhood is subject to a series of reinterpretations until, finally, its deep structure gets played out in terms of temporality.
Having completed what we might think of as the first phase of the existential analytic, Heidegger uses its results to launch an attack on one of the front-line representatives of the tradition, namely Descartes. This is the only worked-through example in Being and Time itself of what Heidegger calls the destruction (Destruktion) of the Western philosophical tradition, a process that was supposed to be a prominent theme in the ultimately unwritten second part of the text. The aim is to show that although the tradition takes theoretical knowledge to be primary, such knowledge (the prioritization of which is an aspect of the ‘onticization’ of Being mentioned earlier) presupposes the more fundamental openness to Being that Heidegger has identified as an essential characteristic of Dasein.
According to Heidegger, Descartes presents the world to us “with its skin off” (Being and Time 20: 132), i.e., as a collection of present-at-hand entities to be encountered by subjects. The consequence of this prioritizing of the present-at-hand is that the subject needs to claw itself into a world of equipmental meaning by adding what Heidegger calls ‘value-predicates’ (context-dependent meanings) to the present-at-hand. In stark contrast, Heidegger's own view is that Dasein is in primary epistemic contact not with context-independent present-at-hand primitives (e.g., raw sense data, such as a ‘pure’ experience of a patch of red), to which context-dependent meaning would need to be added via value-predicates, but rather with equipment, the kind of entity whose mode of Being is readiness-to-hand and which therefore comes already laden with context-dependent significance. What is perhaps Heidegger's best statement of this opposition comes later in Being and Time.
What we ‘first’ hear is never noises or complexes of sounds, but the creaking waggon, the motor-cycle. We hear the column on the march, the north wind, the woodpecker tapping, the fire crackling… It requires a very artificial and complicated frame of mind to ‘hear’ a ‘pure noise’. The fact that motor-cycles and waggons are what we proximally hear is the phenomenal evidence that in every case Dasein, as Being-in-the-world, already dwells alongside what is ready-to-hand within-the-world; it certainly does not dwell proximally alongside ‘sensations’; nor would it first have to give shape to the swirl of sensations to provide a springboard from which the subject leaps off and finally arrives at a ‘world’. Dasein, as essentially understanding, is proximally alongside what is understood. (Being and Time 34: 207)
For Heidegger, then, we start not with the present-at-hand, moving to the ready-to-hand by adding value-predicates, but with the ready-to-hand, moving to the present-at-hand by stripping away the holistic networks of everyday equipmental meaning. It seems clear, then, that our two positions are diametrically opposed to each other, but why should we favour Heidegger's framework over Descartes'? Heidegger's flagship argument here is that the systematic addition of value-predicates to present-at-hand primitives cannot transform our encounters with those objects into encounters with equipment. It comes in the following brief but dense passage: “Adding on value-predicates cannot tell us anything at all new about the Being of goods, but would merely presuppose again that goods have pure presence-at-hand as their kind of Being. Values would then be determinate characteristics which a thing possesses, and they would be present-at-hand”(Being and Time 21: 132). In other words, once we have assumed that we begin with the present-at-hand, values must take the form of determinate features of objects, and therefore constitute nothing but more present-at-hand structures. And if you add more present-at-hand structures to some existing present-at-hand structures, what you end up with is not equipmental meaning (totalities of involvements) but merely a larger number of present-at-hand structures.
Heidegger's argument here is (at best) incomplete (for discussion, see Dreyfus 1990, Wheeler 2005). The defender of Cartesianism might concede that present-at-hand entities have determinate properties, but wonder why the fact that an entity has determinate properties is necessarily an indication of presence-at-hand. On this view, having determinate properties is necessary but not sufficient for an entity to be present-at-hand. More specifically, she might wonder why involvements cannot be thought of as determinate features that entities possess just when they are embedded in certain contexts of use. Consider for example the various involvements specified in the academic writing context described earlier. They certainly seem to be determinate, albeit context-relative, properties of the computer. Of course, the massively holistic character of totalities of involvements would make the task of specifying the necessary value-predicates (say, as sets of internal representations) incredibly hard, but it is unclear that it makes that task impossible. So it seems as if Heidegger doesn't really develop his case in sufficient detail. However, Dreyfus (1990) pursues a response that Heidegger might have given, one that draws on the familiar philosophical distinction between knowing-how and knowing-that. It seems that value-predicates constitute a form of knowing-that (i.e., knowing that an entity has a certain context-dependent property) whereas the circumspective knowledge of totalities of involvements (Dasein's skilled practical activity) constitutes a form of knowing-how (i.e., knowing how to use equipment in appropriate ways; see the characterization of readiness-to-hand given earlier). Given the plausible (although not universally held) assumption that knowing-how cannot be reduced to knowledge-that, this would explain why value-predicates are simply the wrong sort of structures to capture the phenomenon of world-embeddedness.
In the wake of his critique of Cartesianism, Heidegger turns his attention to spatiality. He argues that Dasein dwells in the world in a spatial manner, but that the spatiality in question—Dasein's existential spatiality—cannot be a matter of Dasein being located at a particular co-ordinate in physical, Cartesian space. That would be to conceive of Dasein as present-at-hand, and presence-at-hand is a mode of Being that can belong only to entities other than Dasein. According to Heidegger, the existential spatiality of Dasein is characterized most fundamentally by what he calls de-severance, a bringing close. “ ‘De-severing’ amounts to making the farness vanish—that is, making the remoteness of something disappear, bringing it close” (Being and Time: 23: 139). This is of course not a bringing close in the sense of reducing physical distance, although it may involve that. Heidegger's proposal is that spatiality as de-severance is in some way (exactly how is a matter of subtle interpretation; see e.g., Malpas 2006) intimately related to the ‘reach’ of Dasein's skilled practical activity. For example, an entity is ‘near by’ if it is readily available for some such activity, and ‘far away’ if it is not, whatever physical distances may be involved. Given the Dasein-world relationship highlighted above, the implication (drawn explicitly by Heidegger, see Being and Time 22: 136) is that the spatiality distinctive of equipmental entities, and thus of the world, is not equivalent to physical, Cartesian space. Equipmental space is a matter of pragmatically determined regions of functional places, defined by Dasein-centred totalities of involvements (e.g., an office with places for the computers, the photocopier, and so on—places that are defined by the way in which they make these equipmental entities available in the right sort of way for skilled activity). For Heidegger, physical, Cartesian space is possible as something meaningful for Dasein only because Dasein has de-severance as one of its existential characteristics. Given the intertwining of de-severance and equipmental space, this licenses the radical view (one that is consistent with Heidegger's prior treatment of Cartesianism) that physical, Cartesian space (as something that we can find intelligible) presupposes equipmental space; the former is the present-at-hand phenomenon that is revealed if we strip away the worldhood from the latter.
Malpas (forthcoming) rejects the account of spatiality given in Being and Time. Drawing on Kant, he argues that “[any] agent, insofar as it is capable of action at all (that is, insofar as it is, indeed, an agent), acts in a space that is an objective space, in which other agents also act, and yet which is always immediately configured subjectively in terms of the agent's own oriented locatedness” (Malpas forthcoming, 14). According to Malpas, then, equipmental space (a space ordered in terms of practical activity and within which an agent acts) presupposes a more fundamental notion of space as a complex unity with objective, intersubjective and subjective dimensions. If this is right, then of course equipmental space cannot itself explain the spatial. A further problem, as Malpas also notes, is that the whole issue of spatiality brings into sharp focus the awkward relationship that Heidegger has with the body in Being and Time. In what is now a frequently quoted remark, Heidegger sets aside Dasein's embodiment, commenting that “this ‘bodily nature’ hides a whole problematic of its own, though we shall not treat it here” (Being and Time 23: 143). Indeed, at times, Heidegger might be interpreted as linking embodiment with Thinghood. For example: “[as] Dasein goes along its ways, it does not measure off a stretch of space as a corporeal Thing which is present-at-hand” (Being and Time 23: 140). Here one might plausibly contain the spread of presence-at-hand by appealing to a distinction between material (present-at-hand) and lived (existential) ways in which Dasein is embodied. Unfortunately this distinction isn't made in Being and Time (a point noted by Ricoeur 1992, 327), although Heidegger does adopt it in the much later Seminar in Le Thor (see Malpas forthcoming, 5). What seems clear, however, is that while the Heidegger of Being and Time seems to hold that Dasein's embodiment somehow depends on its existential spatiality (see e.g., 23: 143), the more obvious thing to say is that Dasein's existential spatiality somehow depends on its embodiment.
Before leaving this issue, it is worth noting briefly that space reappears later in Being and Time (70: 418–21), where Heidegger argues that existential space is derived from temporality. This makes sense within Heidegger's overall project, because, as we shall see, the deep structure of totalities of involvements (and thus of equipmental space) is finally understood in terms of temporality. Nevertheless, and although the distinctive character of Heidegger's concept of temporality needs to be recognized, there is reason to think that the dependency here may well travel in the opposite direction. The worry, as Malpas (forthcoming, 26) again points out, has a Kantian origin. Kant (1781/1999) argued that the temporal character of inner sense is possible only because it is mediated by outer intuition whose form is space. If this is right, and if we can generalize appropriately, then the temporality that matters to Heidegger will be dependent on existential spatiality, and not the other way round. All in all, one is tempted to conclude that Heidegger's treatment of spatiality in Being and Time, and (relatedly) his treatment (or lack of it) of the body, face serious difficulties.
Heidegger turns next to the question of “who it is that Dasein is in its everydayness” (Being and Time, Introduction to IV: 149). He rejects the idea of Dasein as a Cartesian ‘I-thing’ (the Cartesian thinking thing conceived as a substance), since once again this would be to think of Dasein as present-at-hand. In searching for an alternative answer, Heidegger observes that equipment is often revealed to us as being for the sake of (the lives and projects of) other Dasein.
The boat anchored at the shore is assigned in its Being-in-itself to an acquaintance who undertakes voyages with it; but even if it is a ‘boat which is strange to us’, it still is indicative of Others. The Others who are thus ‘encountered’ in a ready-to-hand, environmental context of equipment, are not somehow added on in thought to some Thing which is proximally just present-at-hand; such ‘Things’ are encountered from out of a world in which they are ready-to-hand for Others—a world which is always mine too in advance. (Being and Time 26: 154)
On the basis of such observations, Heidegger argues that to be Dasein at all means to Be-with: “So far as Dasein is at all, it has Being-with-one-another as its kind of Being” (Being and Time 26: 163). One's immediate response to this might be that it is just false. After all, ordinary experience establishes that each of us is often alone. But of course Heidegger is thinking in an ontological register. Being-with (Mitsein) is thus the a priori transcendental condition that makes it possible that Dasein can discover equipment in this Other-related fashion. And it's because Dasein has Being-with as one of its essential modes of Being that everyday Dasein can experience being alone. Being-with is thus the a priori transcendental condition for loneliness.
It is important to understand what Heidegger means by ‘Others’, a term that he uses interchangeably with the more evocative ‘the “they” ’ (das Man). He explains:
By ‘Others’ we do not mean everyone else but me—those over against whom the ‘I’ stands out. They are rather those from whom, for the most part, one does not distinguish oneself—those among whom one is too… By reason of this with-like Being-in-the-world, the world is always the one that I share with Others. (Being and Time 26: 154–5)
A piece of data (cited by Dreyfus 1990) helps to illuminate this idea. Each society seems to have its own sense of what counts as an appropriate distance to stand from someone during verbal communication, and this varies depending on whether the other person is a lover, a friend, a colleague, or a business acquaintance, and on whether communication is taking place in noisy or quiet circumstances. Such standing-distance practices are of course normative, in that they involve a sense of what one should and shouldn't do. And the norms in question are culturally specific. So what this example illustrates is that the phenomenon of the Others, the ‘who’ of everyday Dasein, the group from whom for the most part I do not stand out, is my culture, understood not as the sum of all its members, but as an ontological phenomenon in its own right. This explains the following striking remark. “The ‘who’ is not this one, not that one, not oneself, not some people, and not the sum of them all. The ‘who’ is the neuter, the ‘they’ ” (Being and Time 27: 164). Another way to capture this idea is to say that what I do is determined largely by ‘what one does’, and ‘what one does’ is something that I absorb in various ways from my culture. Thus Dreyfus (1990) prefers to translate das Man not as ‘the “they” ’, but as ‘the one’.
This all throws important light on the phenomenon of world, since we can now see that the crucial for-the-sake-of-which structure that stands at the base of each totality of involvements is culturally and historically conditioned. The specific ways in which I behave for the sake of being an academic are what one does if one wants to be considered a good academic, at this particular time, in this particular historically embedded culture (carrying out research, tutoring students, giving lectures, and so on). As Heidegger himself puts the point: “Dasein is for the sake of the ‘they’ in an everyday manner, and the ‘they’ itself articulates the referential context of significance” (Being and Time 27: 167). Worlds (the referential context of significance, networks of involvements) are then culturally and historically conditioned, from which several things seem to follow. First, Dasein's everyday world is, in the first instance, and of its very essence, a shared world. Second, Being-with and Being-in-the-world are, if not equivalent, deeply intertwined. And third, the sense in which worlds are Dasein-dependent involves some sort of cultural relativism, although, as we shall see later, this final issue is one that needs careful interpretative handling.
Critics of the manner in which Heidegger develops the notion of Being-with have often focussed, albeit in different ways, on the thought that Heidegger either ignores or misconceives the fundamental character of our social existence by passing over its grounding in direct interpersonal interaction (see e.g., Löwith 1928, Binswanger 1943/1964, Gallagher and Jacobson forthcoming). From this perspective, the equipmentally mediated discovery of others that Heidegger sometimes describes (see above) is at best a secondary process that reveals other people only to the extent that they are relevant to Dasein's practical projects. Moreover, Olafson (1987) argues that although Heidegger's account clearly involves the idea that Dasein discovers socially shared equipmental meaning (which then presumably supports the discovery of other Dasein along with equipment), that account fails to explain why this must be the case. Processes of direct interpersonal contact (e.g., in learning the use of equipment from others) might plausibly fill this gap. The obvious move for Heidegger to make here is to claim that the processes that the critics find to be missing from his account, although genuine, are not a priori, transcendental structures of Dasein. Rather, they are psychological factors that enable (in a ‘merely’ developmental or causal way) human beings to realize the phenomenon of Being-with (see e.g., Heidegger's response to the existentialist psychologist and therapist Binswanger in the Zollikon seminars, and see Dreyfus 1990, chapter 8, for a response to Olafson that exploits this point). However, one might wonder whether it is plausible to relegate the social processes in question to the status of ‘mere’ enabling factors (Gallagher and Jacobson forthcoming; Pöggeler 1989 might be read as making a similar complaint). If not, then Heidegger's notion of Being-with is at best an incomplete account of our social Being.
The introduction of the ‘they’ is followed by a further layer of interpretation in which Heidegger understands Being-in-the-world in terms of (what he calls) thrownness, projection and fallen-ness, and (interrelatedly) in terms of Dasein as a dynamic combination of disposedness, understanding and fascination with the world. In effect, this is a reformulation of the point that Dasein is the having-to-be-open, i.e., that it is an a priori structure of our existential constitution that we operate with the capacity to take-other-beings-as. Dasein's existence (ek-sistence) is thus now to be understood by way of an interconnected pair of three-dimensional unitary structures: thrownness-projection-fallen-ness and disposedness-understanding-fascination. Each of these can be used to express the “formally existential totality of Dasein's ontological structural whole” (Being and Time 42: 237), a phenomenon that Heidegger also refers to as disclosedness or care. Crucially, it is with the configuration of care that we encounter the first tentative emergence of temporality as a theme in Being and Time, since the dimensionality of care will ultimately be interpreted in terms of the three temporal dimensions: past (thrownness/disposedness), future (projection/understanding), and present (fallen-ness/fascination).
As Dasein, I ineluctably find myself in a world that matters to me in some way or another. This is what Heidegger calls thrownness (Geworfenheit), a having-been-thrown into the world. ‘Disposedness’ is Kisiel's (2002) translation of Befindlichkeit, a term rendered somewhat infelicitously by Macquarrie and Robinson as ‘state-of-mind’. Disposedness is the receptiveness (the just finding things mattering to one) of Dasein, which explains why Richardson (1963) renders Befindlichkeit as ‘already-having-found-oneself-there-ness’. To make things less abstract, we can note that disposedness is the a priori transcendental condition for, and thus shows up pre-ontologically in, the everyday phenomenon of mood (Stimmung). According to Heidegger's analysis, I am always in some mood or other. Thus say I'm depressed, such that the world opens up (is disclosed) to me as a sombre and gloomy place. I might be able to shift myself out of that mood, but only to enter a different one, say euphoria or lethargy, a mood that will open up the world to me in a different way. As one might expect, Heidegger argues that moods are not inner subjective colourings laid over an objectively given world (which at root is why ‘state-of-mind’ is a potentially misleading translation of Befindlichkeit, given that this term names the underlying a priori condition for moods). For Heidegger, moods (and disposedness) are aspects of what it means to be in a world at all, not subjective additions to that in-ness. Here it is worth noting that some aspects of our ordinary linguistic usage reflect this anti-subjectivist reading. Thus we talk of being in a mood rather than a mood being in us, and we have no problem making sense of the idea of public moods (e.g., the mood of a crowd). In noting these features of moods we must be careful, however. It would be a mistake to conclude from them that moods are external, rather than internal, states. A mood “comes neither from ‘outside’ nor from ‘inside’, but arises out of Being-in-the-world, as a way of such being” (Being and Time 29: 176). Nevertheless, the idea that moods have a social character does point us towards a striking implication of Heidegger's overall framework: with Being-in-the-world identified previously as a kind of cultural co-embeddedness, it follows that the repertoire of world-disclosing moods in which I might find myself will itself be culturally conditioned. (For recent philosophical work that builds, in part, on Heidegger's treatment of moods, in order to identify and understand certain affective phenomena—dubbed ‘existential feelings’—that help us to understand various forms of psychiatric illness, see Ratcliffe 2008.)
Dasein confronts every concrete situation in which it finds itself (into which it has been thrown) as a range of possibilities for acting (onto which it may project itself). Insofar as some of these possibilities are actualized, others will not be, meaning that there is a sense in which not-Being (a set of unactualized possibilities of Being) is a structural component of Dasein's Being. Out of this dynamic interplay, Dasein emerges as a delicate balance of determination (thrownness) and freedom (projection). The projective possibilities available to Dasein are delineated by totalities of involvements, structures that, as we have seen, embody the culturally conditioned ways in which Dasein may inhabit the world. Understanding is the process by which Dasein projects itself onto such possibilities. Crucially, understanding as projection is not conceived, by Heidegger, as involving, in any fundamental way, conscious or deliberate forward-planning. Projection “has nothing to do with comporting oneself towards a plan that has been thought out” (Being and Time 31: 185). The primary realization of understanding is as skilled activity in the domain of the ready-to-hand, but it can be manifested as interpretation, when Dasein explicitly takes something as something (e.g., in cases of disturbance), and also as linguistic assertion, when Dasein uses language to attribute a definite character to an entity as a mere present-at-hand object. (NB: assertion of the sort indicated here is of course just one linguistic practice among many; it does not in any way exhaust the phenomenon of language or its ontological contribution.) Another way of putting the point that culturally conditioned totalities of involvements define the space of Dasein's projection onto possibilities is to say that such totalities constitute the fore-structures of Dasein's practices of understanding and interpretation, practices that, as we have just seen, are projectively oriented manifestations of the taking-as activity that forms the existential core of Dasein's Being. What this tells us is that the hermeneutic circle is the “essential fore-structure of Dasein itself” (Being and Time 32: 195).
Thrownness and projection provide two of the three dimensions of care. The third is fallen-ness. “Dasein has, in the first instance, fallen away from itself as an authentic potentiality for Being its Self, and has fallen into the world” (Being and Time 38: 220). Such fallen-ness into the world is manifested in idle talk (roughly, conversing in a critically unexamined and unexamining way about facts and information while failing to use language to reveal their relevance), curiosity (a search for novelty and endless stimulation rather than belonging or dwelling), and ambiguity (a loss of any sensitivity to the distinction between genuine understanding and superficial chatter). Each of these aspects of fallen-ness involves a closing off or covering up of the world (more precisely, of any real understanding of the world) through a fascination with it. What is crucial here is that this world-obscuring process of fallen-ness/fascination, as manifested in idle talk, curiosity and ambiguity, is to be understood as Dasein's everyday mode of Being-with. In its everyday form, Being-with exhibits what Heidegger calls levelling or averageness—a “Being-lost in the publicness of the ‘they’ ” (Being and Time 38: 220). Here, in dramatic language, is how he makes the point.
In utilizing public means of transport and in making use of information services such as the newspaper, every Other is like the next. This Being-with-one-another dissolves one's own Dasein completely into a kind of Being of ‘the Others’, in such a way, indeed, that the Others, as distinguishable and explicit, vanish more and more. In this inconspicuousness and unascertainability, the real dictatorship of the ‘they’ is unfolded. We take pleasure and enjoy ourselves as they take pleasure; we read, see, and judge about literature and art as they see and judge; likewise we shrink back from the ‘great mass’ as they shrink back; we find ‘shocking’ what they find shocking. The ‘they’, which is nothing definite, and which all are, though not as the sum, prescribes the kind of Being of everydayness. (Being and Time 27: 164)
This analysis opens up a path to Heidegger's distinction between the authentic self and its inauthentic counterpart. At root, ‘authentic’ means ‘my own’. So the authentic self is the self that is mine (leading a life that, in a sense to be explained, is owned by me), whereas the inauthentic self is the fallen self, the self lost to the ‘they’. Hence we might call the authentic self the ‘mine-self’, and the inauthentic self the ‘they-self’, the latter term also serving to emphasize the point that fallen-ness is a mode of the self, not of others. Moreover, as a mode of the self, fallen-ness is not an accidental feature of Dasein, but rather part of Dasein's existential constitution. It is a dimension of care, which is the Being of Dasein. So, in the specific sense that fallen-ness (the they-self) is an essential part of our Being, we are ultimately each to blame for our own inauthenticity (Sheehan 2002). Of course, one shouldn't conclude from all this talk of submersion in the ‘they’ that a state of authenticity is to be achieved by re-establishing some version of a self-sufficient individual subject. As Heidegger puts it: “Authentic Being-one's-Self does not rest upon an exceptional condition of the subject, a condition that has been detached from the ‘they’; it is rather an existentiell modification of the ‘they’ ” (Being and Time 27: 168). So authenticity is not about being isolated from others, but rather about finding a different way of relating to others such that one is not lost to the they-self. It is in Division 2 of Being and Time that authenticity, so understood, becomes a central theme.
As the argument of Being and Time continues its ever-widening hermeneutic spiral into Division 2 of the text, Heidegger announces a twofold transition in the analysis. He argues that we should (i) pay proper heed to the thought that to understand Dasein we need to understand Dasein's existence as a whole, and (ii) shift the main focus of our attention from the inauthentic self (the they-self) to the authentic self (the mine-self) (Being and Time 45: 276). Both of these transitions figure in Heidegger's discussion of death.
So far, Dasein's existence has been understood as thrown projection plus falling. The projective aspect of this phenomenon means that, at each moment of its life, Dasein is Being-ahead-of-itself, oriented towards the realm of its possibilities, and is thus incomplete. Death completes Dasein's existence. Therefore, an understanding of Dasein's relation to death would make an essential contribution to our understanding of Dasein as a whole. But now a problem immediately presents itself: since one cannot experience one's own death, it seems that the kind of phenomenological analysis that has hitherto driven the argument of Being and Time breaks down, right at the crucial moment. One possible response to this worry, canvassed explicitly by Heidegger, is to suggest that Dasein understands death through experiencing the death of others. However, the sense in which we experience the death of others falls short of what is needed. We mourn departed others and miss their presence in the world. But that is to experience Being-with them as dead, which is a mode of our continued existence. As Heidegger explains:
The greater the phenomenal appropriateness with which we take the no-longer-Dasein of the deceased, the more plainly is it shown that in such Being-with the dead, the authentic Being-come-to-and-end of the deceased is precisely the sort of thing which we do not experience. Death does indeed reveal itself as a loss, but a loss such as is experienced by those who remain. In suffering this loss, however, we have no way of access to the loss-of-Being as such which the dying man ‘suffers’. The dying of Others is not something which we experience in a genuine sense; at most we are always just ‘there alongside’. (Being and Time 47: 282)
What we don't have, then, is phenomenological access to the loss of Being that the dead person has suffered. But that, it seems, is precisely what we would need in order to carry through the favoured analysis. So another response is called for. Heidegger's move is to suggest that although Dasein cannot experience its own death as actual, it can relate towards its own death as a possibility that is always before it—always before it in the sense that Dasein's own death is inevitable. Peculiarly among Dasein's possibilities, the possibility of Dasein's own death must remain only a possibility, since once it becomes actual, Dasein is no longer. Death is thus the “possibility of the impossibility of any existence at all” (Being and Time 53: 307). And it is this awareness of death as an omnipresent possibility that cannot become actual that stops the phenomenological analysis from breaking down. The detail here is crucial. What the failure of the ‘death of others’ strategy indicates is that in each instance death is inextricably tied to some specific individual Dasein. My death is mine in a radical sense; it is the moment at which all my relations to others disappear. Heidegger captures this non-relationality by using the term ‘ownmost’. And it is the idea of death “as that possibility which is one's ownmost” (Being and Time 50: 294) that engages the second transition highlighted above. When I take on board the possibility of my own not-Being, my own being-able-to-Be is brought into proper view. Hence my awareness of my own death as an omnipresent possibility discloses the authentic self (a self that is mine). Moreover, the very same awareness engages the first of the aforementioned transitions too: there is a sense in which the possibility of my not existing encompasses the whole of my existence (Hinman 1978, 201), and my awareness of that possibility illuminates me, qua Dasein, in my totality. Indeed, my own death is revealed to me as inevitable, meaning that Dasein is essentially finite. This explains why Heidegger says that death is disclosed to Dasein as a possibility which is “not to be outstripped” (Being and Time 50: 294).
Heidegger's account of Dasein's relation towards the possibility of its own not-Being forms the backbone of a reinterpretation of the phenomenon of care—the “formally existential totality of Dasein's ontological structural whole” (Being and Time 42: 237). Care is now interpreted in terms of Being-towards-death, meaning that Dasein has an internal relation to the nothing (i.e., to not-being; see Vallega-Neu 2003, 21, for an analysis that links this ‘not’ quality to the point made earlier that sets of unactualized possibilities of Being are structural components of Dasein's Being). As one might expect, Heidegger argues that Being-towards-death not only has the three-dimensional character of care, but is realized in authentic and inauthentic modes. Let's begin with the authentic mode. We can think of the aforementioned individualizing effect of Dasein's awareness of the possibility of its own not-Being (an awareness that illuminates its own being-able-to-Be) as an event in which Dasein projects onto a possible way to be, in the technical sense of such possibilities introduced earlier in Being and Time. It is thus an event in which Dasein projects onto a for-the-sake-of-which, a possible way to be. More particularly, given the authentic character of the phenomenon, it is an event in which Dasein projects onto a for-the-sake-of-itself. Heidegger now coins the term anticipation to express the form of projection in which one looks forward to a possible way to be. Given the analysis of death as a possibility, the authentic form of projection in the case of death is anticipation. Indeed Heidegger often uses the term anticipation in a narrow way, simply to mean being aware of death as a possibility. But death is disclosed authentically not only in projection (the first dimension of care) but also in thrownness (the second dimension). The key phenomenon here is the mode of disposedness that Heidegger calls anxiety. Anxiety, at least in the form in which Heidegger is interested, is not directed towards some specific object, but rather opens up the world to me in a certain distinctive way. When I am anxious I am no longer at home in the world. I fail to find the world intelligible. Thus there is an ontological sense (one to do with intelligibility) in which I am not in the world, and the possibility of a world without me (the possibility of my not-Being-in-the-world) is revealed to me. “[The] state-of-mind [mode of disposedness] which can hold open the utter and constant threat to itself arising from Dasein's ownmost individualized Being, is anxiety. In this state-of-mind, Dasein finds itself face to face with the ‘nothing’ of the possible impossibility of its existence” (Being and Time 53: 310). Heidegger has now reinterpreted two of the three dimensions of care, in the light of Dasein's essential finitude. But now what about the third dimension, identified previously as fallen-ness? Since we are presently considering a mode of authentic, i.e., not fallen, Dasein, it seems that fallen-ness cannot be a feature of this realization of care, and indeed that a general reformulation of the care structure is called for in order to allow for authentic Being. This is an issue that will be addressed in the next section. First, though, the inauthentic form of Being-towards-death needs to be brought into view.
In everyday Being-towards-death, the self that figures in the for-the-sake-of-itself structure is not the authentic mine-self, but rather the inauthentic they-self. In effect, the ‘they’ obscures our awareness of the meaning of our own deaths by de-individualizing death. As Heidegger explains: in “Dasein's public way of interpreting, it is said that ‘one dies’, because everyone else and oneself can talk himself into saying that ‘in no case is it I myself’, for this ‘one’ is the ‘nobody’ ” (Being and Time 51: 297). In this way, everyday Dasein flees from the meaning of its own death, in a manner determined by the ‘they’. It is in this evasion in the face of death, interpreted as a further way in which Dasein covers up Being, that everyday Dasein's fallen-ness now manifests itself. To be clear: evasion here does not necessarily mean that I refuse outright to acknowledge that I will someday die. After all, as I might say, ‘everyone dies’. However, the certainty of death achieved by idle talk of this kind is of the wrong sort. One might think of it as established by the conclusion of some sort of inductive inference from observations of many cases of death (the deaths of many others). But “we cannot compute the certainty of death by ascertaining how many cases of death we encounter” (Being and Time 53: 309).
The certainty brought into view by such an inference is a sort of empirical certainty, one which conceals the apodictic character of the inevitability with which my own death is authentically revealed to me (Being and Time 52: 301). In addition, as we have seen, according to Heidegger, my own death can never be actual for me, so viewed from my perspective, any case of death, i.e., any actual death, cannot be my death. Thus it must be a death that belongs to someone else, or rather, to no one.
Inauthenticity in relation to death is also realized in thrownness, through fear, and in projection, through expectation. Fear, as a mode of disposedness, can disclose only particular oncoming events in the world. To fear my own death, then, is once again to treat my death as a case of death. This contrasts with anxiety, the form of disposedness which, as we have seen, discloses my death via the awareness of the possibility of a world in which I am not. The projective analogue to the fear-anxiety distinction is expectation-anticipation. A mundane example might help to illustrate the generic idea. When I expect a beer to taste a certain way, I am waiting for an actual event—a case of that distinctive taste in my mouth—to occur. By contrast, when I anticipate the taste of that beer, one might say that, in a cognitive sense, I actively go out to meet the possibility of that taste. In so doing, I make it mine. Expecting death is thus to wait for a case of death, whereas to anticipate death is to own it.
In reinterpreting care in terms of Being-towards-death, Heidegger illuminates in a new way the taking-as structure that, as we have seen, he takes to be the essence of human existence. Human beings, as Dasein, are essentially finite. And it is this finitude that explains why the phenomenon of taking-as is an essential characteristic of our existence. An infinite Being would understand things directly, without the need for interpretative intercession. We, however, are Dasein, and in our essential finitude we must understand things in a hermeneutically mediated, indirect way, that is, by taking-as (Sheehan 2001).
What are we to make of Heidegger's analysis of death? Perhaps the most compelling reason for being sceptical can be found in Sartre, who argued that just as death cannot be actual for me, it cannot be one of my possibilities either, at least if the term ‘possibility’ is understood, as Heidegger surely intends it to be, as marking a way of my Being, an intelligible way for me to be. Sartre argues that death is the end of such possibilities. Thus:
[The] perpetual appearance of chance at the heart of my projects cannot be apprehended as my possibility but, on the contrary, as the nihilation of all my possibilities. A nihilation which itself is no longer a part of my possibilities. Thus death is not my possibility of no longer realizing a presence in the world but rather an always possible nihilation of my possibilities which is outside my possibilities. (Sartre 1956, 537)
If Sartre is right, there is a significant hole in Heidegger's project, since we would be left without a way of completing the phenomenological analysis of Dasein.
For further debate over Heidegger's handling of death, see Edwards' (1975, 1976, 2004) unsympathetic broadsides alongside Hinman's (1978) robust response. Carel (2006) develops an analysis that productively connects Heidegger's and Freud's accounts of death, despite Heidegger's open antipathy towards Freud's theories in general.
In some of the most difficult sections of Being and Time, Heidegger now begins to close in on the claim that temporality is the ontological meaning of Dasein's Being as care. The key notion here is that of anticipatory resoluteness, which Heidegger identifies as an (or perhaps the) authentic mode of care. As we have seen, anticipation is the form of Being-towards in which one looks forward to a possible way to be. Bringing resoluteness into view requires further groundwork that begins with Heidegger's reinterpretation of the authentic self in terms of the phenomenon of conscience or Being-guilty. The authentic self is characterized by Being-guilty. This does not mean that authenticity requires actually feeling guilty. Rather, the authentic self is the one who is open to the call of conscience. The inauthentic self, by contrast, is closed to conscience and guilt. It is tempting to think that this is where Heidegger does ethics. However, guilt as an existential structure is not to be understood as some psychological feeling that one gets when one transgresses some moral code. If the term ‘guilt’ is to be heard in an ethical register at all, the phenomenon of Being-guilty will, for Heidegger, be the a priori condition for there to be moral codes, not the psychological result of transgressions of those codes. Having said that, however, it may be misleading to adopt an ethical register here. For Heidegger, conscience is fundamentally a disclosive rather than an ethical phenomenon. What is more important for the project of Being and Time, then, is the claim that the call of conscience interrupts Dasein's everyday fascination with entities by summoning Dasein back to its own finitude and thereby to authenticity. To see how the call of conscience achieves this, we need to unpack Heidegger's reformulation of conscience in terms of anticipatory resoluteness.
In the by-now familiar pattern, Heidegger argues that conscience (Being-guilty) has the structure of care. However, there's now a modification to the picture, presumably driven by a factor mentioned earlier, namely that authentic Dasein is not fallen. Since conscience is a mode of authentic Dasein, fallen-ness cannot be one of the dimensions of conscience. So the three elements of care are now identified as projection, thrownness and discourse. What is discourse? It clearly has something to do with articulation, and it is tempting to make a connection with language, but in truth this aspect of Heidegger's view is somewhat murky. Heidegger says that the “intelligibility of Being-in-the-world… expresses itself as discourse” (Being and Time 34: 204). But this might mean that intelligibility is essentially a linguistic phenomenon; or it might mean that discourse is intelligibility as put into language. There is even room for the view that discourse is not necessarily a linguistic phenomenon at all, but rather any way in which the referential structure of significance is articulated, either by deeds (e.g., by hammering) or by words (see e.g., Dreyfus 1991, 215; Dreyfus translates the German term Rede not as ‘discourse’ but as ‘telling’, and notes the existence of non-linguistic tellings such as telling the time). But however we settle that point of interpretation, there is something untidy about the status of discourse in relation to fallen-ness and authenticity. Elsewhere in Being and Time, the text strongly suggests that discourse has inauthentic modes, for instance when it is manifested as idle talk; and in yet other sections we find the claim that fallen-ness has an authentic manifestation called a moment-of-vision (e.g., Being and Time 68: 401). Regarding the general relations between discourse, fallen-ness and authenticity, then, the conceptual landscape is not entirely clear. Nevertheless, we can say this: when care is realized authentically, I experience discourse as reticence, as a keeping silent (ignoring the chatter of idle talk) so that I may hear the call of conscience; I experience projection onto guilt as a possible way of Being in which I take responsibility for a lack or a not-Being that is located firmly in my own self (where ‘taking responsibility for’ means recognizing that not-Being is one of my essential structures); and I experience thrownness as anxiety, a mode of disposedness that, as we have seen, leaves me estranged from the familiar field of intelligibility determined by the ‘they’ and thereby discloses the possibility of my own not-Being. So, reticence, guilt and anxiety all have the effect of extracting Dasein from the ontological clutches of the ‘they’. That is why the unitary structure of reticence-guilt-anxiety characterizes the Being of authentic Dasein.
So now what of resoluteness? ‘Resoluteness’ is perhaps best understood as simply a new term for reticence-guilt-anxiety. But why do we need a new term? There are two possible reasons for thinking that the relabelling exercise here adds value. Each of these indicates a connection between authenticity and freedom. Each corresponds to an authentic realization of one of two possible understandings of what Heidegger means by (human) existence (see above). The first take on resoluteness is emphasized by, for example, Gelven (1989), Mulhall (2005) and Polt (1999). In ordinary parlance, to be resolved is to commit oneself to some project and thus, in a sense, to take ownership of one's life. By succumbing to, but without making any real commitment to, the patterns laid down by the ‘they’ (i.e., by uncritically ‘doing what one does’), inauthentic Dasein avoids owning its own life. Authentic Being (understood as resoluteness) is, then, a freedom from the ‘they’—not, of course, in any sense that involves extracting oneself from one's socio-cultural embeddedness (after all, Being-with is part of Dasein's existential constitution), but rather in a sense that involves individual commitment to (and thus individual ownership of) one of the possible ways to be that one's socio-cultural embeddedness makes available (more on this below). Seen like this, resoluteness correlates with the idea that Dasein's existence is constituted by a series of events in which possible ways to be are chosen.
At this point we would do well to hesitate. The emphasis on notions such as choice and commitment makes it all too easy to think that resoluteness essentially involves some sort of conscious decision-making. For this reason, Vallega-Neu (2003, 15) reminds us that resoluteness is not a “choice made by a human subject” but rather an “occurrence that determines Dasein”. This occurrence discloses Dasein's essential finitude. It is here that it is profitable to think in terms of anticipatory resoluteness. Heidegger's claim is that resoluteness and anticipation are internally related, such that they ultimately emerge together as the unitary phenomenon of anticipatory resoluteness. Thus, he argues, Being-guilty (the projective aspect of resoluteness) involves Dasein wanting to be open to the call of conscience for as long as Dasein exists, which requires an awareness of the possibility of death. Since resoluteness is an authentic mode of Being, this awareness of the possibility of death must also be authentic. But the authentic awareness of the possibility of death just is anticipation (see above). Thus “only as anticipating does resoluteness become a primordial Being towards Dasein's ownmost potentiality-for-Being” (Being and Time 62: 354). Via the internal connection with anticipation, then, the notion of resoluteness allows Heidegger to rethink the path to Dasein's essential finitude, a finitude that is hidden in fallen-ness, but which, as we have seen, is the condition of possibility for the taking-as structure that is a constitutive aspect of Dasein. Seen this way, resoluteness correlates more neatly with the idea that human existence is essentially a standing out in an openness to, and in an opening of, Being.
In a further hermeneutic spiral, Heidegger concludes that temporality is the a priori transcendental condition for there to be care (sense-making, intelligibility, taking-as, Dasein's own distinctive mode of Being). Moreover, it is Dasein's openness to time that ultimately allows Dasein's potential authenticity to be actualized: in authenticity, the constraints and possibilities determined by Dasein's cultural-historical past are grasped by Dasein in the present so that it may project itself into the future in a fully authentic manner, i.e., in a manner which is truest to the mine-self.
The ontological emphasis that Heidegger places on temporality might usefully be seen as an echo and development of Kant's claim that embeddedness in time is a precondition for things to appear to us the way they do. (According to Kant, embeddedness in time is co-determinative of our experience, along with embeddedness in space. See above for Heidegger's problematic analysis of the relationship between spatiality and temporality.) With the Kantian roots of Heidegger's treatment of time acknowledged, it must be registered immediately that, in Heidegger's hands, the notion of temporality receives a distinctive twist. Heidegger is concerned not with clock-time (an infinite series of self-contained nows laid out in an ordering of past, present and future) or with time as some sort of relativistic phenomenon that would satisfy the physicist. Time thought of in either of these ways is a present-at-hand phenomenon, and that means that it cannot characterize the temporality that is an internal feature of Dasein's existential constitution, the existential temporality that structures intelligibility (taking-as). As he puts it in his History of the Concept of Time (a 1925 lecture course): “Not ‘time is’, but ‘Dasein qua time temporalizes its Being’ ” (319). To make sense of this temporalizing, Heidegger introduces the technical term ecstases. Ecstases are phenomena that stand out from an underlying unity. (He later reinterprets ecstases as horizons, in the sense of what limits, surrounds or encloses, and in so doing discloses or makes available.) According to Heidegger, temporality is a unity against which past, present and future stand out as ecstases while remaining essentially interlocked. The importance of this idea is that it frees the phenomenologist from thinking of past, present and future as sequentially ordered groupings of distinct events. Thus:
Temporalizing does not signify that ecstases come in a ‘succession’. The future is not later than having been, and having-been is not earlier than the Present. Temporality temporalizes itself as a future which makes present in a process of having been. (Being and Time 68: 401)
What does this mean and why should we find it compelling? Perhaps the easiest way to grasp Heidegger's insight here is to follow him in explicitly reinterpreting the different elements of the structure of care in terms of the three phenomenologically intertwined dimensions of temporality.
Dasein's existence is characterized phenomenologically by thrown projection plus fallenness/discourse. Heidegger argues that for each of these phenomena, one particular dimension of temporality is primary. Thus projection is disclosed principally as the manner in which Dasein orients itself towards its future. Anticipation, as authentic projection, therefore becomes the predominantly futural aspect of (what we can now call) authentic temporalizing, whereas expectation, as inauthentic projection, occupies the same role for inauthentic temporalizing. However, since temporality is at root a unitary structure, thrownness, projection, falling and discourse must each have a multi-faceted temporality. Anticipation, for example, requires that Dasein acknowledge the unavoidable way in which its past is constitutive of who it is, precisely because anticipation demands of Dasein that it project itself resolutely onto (i.e., come to make its own) one of the various options established by its cultural-historical embeddedness. And anticipation has a present-related aspect too: in a process that Heidegger calls a moment of vision, Dasein, in anticipating its own death, pulls away from they-self-dominated distractions of the present.
Structurally similar analyses are given for the other elements of the care structure. Here is not the place to pursue the details but, at the most general level, thrownness is identified predominantly, although not exclusively, as the manner in which Dasein collects up its past (finding itself in relation to the pre-structured field of intelligibility into which it has been enculturated), while fallen-ness and discourse are identified predominantly, although not exclusively, as present-oriented (e.g., in the case of fallen-ness, through curiosity as a search for novelty in which Dasein is locked into the distractions of the present and devalues the past and the projective future). A final feature of Heidegger's intricate analysis concerns the way in which authentic and inauthentic temporalizing are understood as prioritizing different dimensions of temporality. Heidegger argues that because future-directed anticipation is intertwined with projection onto death as a possibility (thereby enabling the disclosure of Dasein's all-important finitude), the “primary phenomenon of primordial and authentic temporality is the future” (Being and Time 65: 378), whereas inauthentic temporalizing (through structures such as ‘they’-determined curiosity) prioritizes the present.
What the foregoing summary of Heidegger's account of temporality makes clear is that each event of intelligibility that makes up a ‘moment’ in Dasein's existence must be unpacked using all three temporal ecstases. Each such event is constituted by thrownness (past), projection (future) and falling/discourse (present). In a sense, then, each such event transcends (goes beyond) itself as a momentary episode of Being by, in the relevant sense, co-realizing a past and a future along with a present. This explains why “the future is not later than having been, and having-been is not earlier than the Present”. In the sense that matters, then, Dasein is always a combination of the futural, the historical and the present. And since futurality, historicality and presence, understood in terms of projection, thrownness and fallenness/discourse, form the structural dimensions of each event of intelligibility, it is Dasein's essential temporality (or temporalizing) that provides the a priori transcendental condition for there to be care (the sense-making that constitutes Dasein's own distinctive mode of Being).
(Some worries about Heidegger's analysis of time will be explored below. For a view which is influenced by, and contains an original interpretation of, Heidegger on time, see Stiegler's 1996/2003 analysis according to which human temporality is constituted by technology, including alphabetical writing, as a form of memory.)
In the final major development of his analysis of temporality, Heidegger identifies a phenomenon that he calls Dasein's historicality, understood as the a priori condition on the basis of which past events and things may have significance for us. The analysis begins with an observation that Being-towards-death is only one aspect of Dasein's finitude.
[Death] is only the ‘end’ of Dasein; and, taken formally, it is just one of the ends by which Dasein's totality is closed round. The other ‘end’, however, is the ‘beginning’, the ‘birth’. Only that entity which is ‘between’ birth and death presents the whole which we have been seeking… Dasein has [so far] been our theme only in the way in which it exists ‘facing forward’, as it were, leaving ‘behind’ all that has been. Not only has Being-towards-the-beginning remained unnoticed; but so too, and above all, has the way in which Dasein stretches along between birth and death. (Being and Time 72: 425).
Here Dasein's beginning (its ‘birth’) is to be interpreted not as a biological event, but as a moment of enculturation, following which the a priori structure underlying intelligibility (thrown projection plus falling/discourse) applies. Dasein's beginning is thus a moment at which a biological human being has become embedded within a pre-existing world, a culturally determined field of intelligibility into which it is thrown and onto which it projects itself. Such worlds are now to be reinterpreted historically as Dasein's heritage. Echoing the way in which past, present and future were disclosed as intertwined in the analysis of temporality, Dasein's historicality has the effect of bringing the past (its heritage) alive in the present as a set of opportunities for future action. In the original German, Heidegger calls this phenomenon Wiederholung, which Macquarrie and Robinson translate as repetition. Although this is an accurate translation of the German term, there is a way of hearing the word ‘repetition’ that is misleading with regard to Heidegger's usage. The idea here is not that I can do nothing other than repeat the actions of my cultural ancestors, but rather that, in authentic mode, I may appropriate those past actions (own them, make them mine) as a set of general models or heroic templates onto which I may creatively project myself. Thus, retrieving may be a more appropriate translation. This notion of retrieving characterizes the “specific movement in which Dasein is stretched along and stretches itself along”, what Heidegger now calls Dasein's historizing. Historizing is an a priori structure of Dasein's Being as care that constitutes a stretching along between Dasein's birth as the entity that takes-as and death as its end, between enculturation and finitude. “Factical Dasein exists as born; and, as born, it is already dying, in the sense of Being-towards-death… birth and death are ‘connected’ in a manner characteristic of Dasein. As care, Dasein is the ‘between’ ”(Being and Time 73: 426–7).
It is debatable whether the idea of creative appropriation does enough to allay the suspicion that the concept of heritage introduces a threat to our individual freedom (in an ordinary sense of freedom) by way of some sort of social determinism. For example, since historicality is an aspect of Dasein's existential constitution, it is arguable that Heidegger effectively rules out the possibility that I might reinvent myself in an entirely original way. Moreover, Polt (1999) draws our attention to a stinging passage from earlier in Being and Time which might be taken to suggest that any attempt to take on board elements of cultures other than one's own should be judged an inauthentic practice indicative of fallen-ness. Thus:
the opinion may now arise that understanding the most alien cultures and ‘synthesizing’ them with one's own may lead to Dasein's becoming for the first time thoroughly and genuinely enlightened about itself. Versatile curiosity and restlessly ‘knowing it all’ masquerade as a universal understanding of Dasein. (Being and Time 38: 178)
This sets the stage for Heidegger's own final elucidation of human freedom. According to Heidegger, I am genuinely free precisely when I recognize that I am a finite being with a heritage and when I achieve an authentic relationship with that heritage through the creative appropriation of it. As he explains:
Once one has grasped the finitude of one's existence, it snatches one back from the endless multiplicity of possibilities which offer themselves as closest to one—those of comfortableness, shirking and taking things lightly—and brings Dasein to the simplicity of its fate. This is how we designate Dasein's primordial historizing, which lies in authentic resoluteness and in which Dasein hands itself down to itself, free for death, in a possibility which it has inherited and yet has chosen” (Being and Time 74: 435)
This phenomenon, a final reinterpretation of the notion of resoluteness, is what Heidegger calls primordial historizing or fate. And crucially, historizing is not merely a structure that is partly constitutive of individual authentic Dasein. Heidegger also points out the shared primordial historizing of a community, what he calls its destiny.
When the contemporary reader of Being and Time encounters the concepts of heritage, fate and destiny, and places them not only in the context of the political climate of mid-to-late 1920s Germany, but also alongside Heidegger's later membership of the Nazi party, it is hard not to hear dark undertones of cultural chauvinism and racial prejudice. This worry becomes acute when one considers the way in which these concepts figure in passages such as the following, from the inaugural rectoral address that Heidegger gave at Freiburg University in 1933.
The third bond [knowledge service, in addition to labour service and military service] is the one that binds the [German] students to the spiritual mission of the German Volk. This Volk is playing an active role in shaping its own fate by placing its history into the openness of the overpowering might of all the world-shaping forces of human existence and by struggling anew to secure its spiritual world… The three bonds—through the Volk to the destiny of the state in its spiritual mission—are equally original aspects of the German essence. (The Self-Assertion of the German University, 35–6)
The issue of Heidegger's later relationship with Nazi politics and ideology will be discussed briefly below. For the moment, however, it is worth saying that the temptation to offer extreme social determinist or Nazi reconstructions of Being and Time is far from irresistible. It is at least arguable that Heidegger's claim at this point in his work is ‘merely’ that it is only on the basis of fate—an honest and explicit retrieval of my own culture which allows me to recognize and accept the manifold ways in which I am shaped by that culture—that I can open up a genuine path to personal reconstruction or to the possibly enriching structures that other cultures have to offer. And that does not sound nearly so pernicious.
One might think that an unpalatable relativism is entailed by any view which emphasizes that understanding is never preconception-free. But that would be too quick. Of course, if authentic Dasein were individualized in the sense of being a self-sufficient Cartesian subject, then perhaps an extreme form of subjectivist relativism would indeed beckon. Fortunately, however, authentic Dasein isn't a Cartesian subject, in part because it has a transformed and not a severed relationship with the ‘they’. This reconnects us with our earlier remark that the philosophical framework advocated within Being and Time appears to mandate a kind of cultural relativism. This seems right, but it is important to try to understand precisely what sort of cultural relativism is on offer. Here is one interpretation.
Although worlds (networks of involvements, what Heidegger sometimes calls Reality) are culturally relative phenomena, Heidegger occasionally seems to suggest that nature, as it is in itself, is not. Thus, on the one hand, nature may be discovered as ready-to-hand equipment: the “wood is a forest of timber, the mountain is a quarry of rock; the river is water-power, the wind is wind ‘in the sails’ ” (Being and Time 15: 100). Under these circumstances, nature is revealed in certain culturally specific forms determined by our socially conditioned patterns of skilled practical activity. On the other hand, when nature is discovered as present-at-hand, by say science, its intelligibility has an essentially cross-cultural character. Indeed, Heidegger often seems to hold the largely commonsense view that there are culture-independent causal properties of nature which explain why it is that you can make missiles out of rocks or branches, but not out of air or water. Science can tell us both what those causal properties are, and how the underlying causal processes work. Such properties and processes are what Heidegger calls the Real, and he comments: “[the] fact that Reality [intelligibility] is ontologically grounded in the Being of Dasein does not signify that only when Dasein exists and as long as Dasein exists can the Real [e.g., nature as revealed by science] be as that which in itself it is” (Being and Time, 43: 255).
If the picture just sketched is a productive way to understand Heidegger, then, perhaps surprisingly, his position might best be thought of as a mild kind of scientific realism. For, on this interpretation, one of Dasein's cultural practices, the practice of science, has the special quality of revealing natural entities as they are in themselves, that is, independently of Dasein's culturally conditioned uses and articulations of them. Crucially, however, this sort of scientific realism maintains ample conceptual room for Sheehan's well-observed point that, for Heidegger, at every stage of his thinking, “there is no ‘is’ to things without a taking-as… no sense that is independent of human being… Before homo sapiens evolved, there was no ‘being’ on earth… because ‘being’ for Heidegger does not mean ‘in existence’ ” (Sheehan 2001). Indeed, Being concerns sense-making (intelligibility), and the different ways in which entities make sense to us, including as present-at-hand, are dependent on the fact that we are Dasein, creatures with a particular mode of Being. So while natural entities do not require the existence of Dasein in order just to occur (in an ordinary, straightforward sense of ‘occur’), they do require Dasein in order to be intelligible at all, including as entities that just occur. Understood properly, then, the following two claims that Heidegger makes are entirely consistent with each other. First: “Being (not entities) is dependent upon the understanding of Being; that is to say, Reality (not the Real) is dependent upon care”. Secondly: “[O]nly as long as Dasein is (that is, only as long as an understanding of Being is ontically possible), ‘is there’ Being. When Dasein does not exist, ‘independence’ ‘is’ not either, nor ‘is’ the ‘in-itself’ ”. (Both quotations from Being and Time, 43: 255.)
How does all this relate to Heidegger's account of truth? Answering this question adds a new dimension to the pivotal phenomenon of revealing. Heidegger points out that the philosophical tradition standardly conceives of truth as attaching to propositions, and as involving some sort of correspondence between propositions and states of affairs. But whereas for the tradition (as Heidegger characterizes it), propositional truth as correspondence exhausts the phenomenon of truth, for Heidegger, it is merely the particular manifestation of truth that is operative in those domains, such as science, that concern themselves with the Real. According to Heidegger, propositional truth as correspondence is made possible by a more fundamental phenomenon that he dubs ‘original truth’. Heidegger's key thought here is that before (in a conceptual sense of ‘before’) there can be any question of correspondence between propositions and states of affairs, there needs to be in place a field of intelligibility (Reality, a world), a sense-making structure within which entities may be found. Unconcealing is the Dasein-involving process that establishes this prior field of intelligibility. This is the domain of original truth—what we might call truth as revealing or truth as unconcealing. Original truth cannot be reduced to propositional truth as correspondence, because the former is an a priori, transcendental condition for the latter. Of course, since Dasein is the source of intelligibility, truth as unconcealing is possible only because there is Dasein, which means that without Dasein there would be no truth—including propositional truth as correspondence. But it is reasonable to hear this seemingly relativistic consequence as a further modulation of the point (see above) that entities require Dasein in order to be intelligible at all, including, now, as entities that are capable of entering into states of affairs that may correspond to propositions.
Heidegger's analysis of truth also countenances a third manifestation of the phenomenon, one that is perhaps best characterized as being located between original truth and propositional truth. This intermediate phenomenon is what might be called Heidegger's instrumental notion of truth (Dahlstrom 2001, Overgaard 2002). As we saw earlier, for Heidegger, the referential structure of significance may be articulated not only by words but by skilled practical activity (e.g., hammering) in which items of equipment are used in culturally appropriate ways. By Heidegger's lights, such equipmental activity counts as a manifestation of unconcealing and thus as the realization of a species of truth. This fact further threatens the idea that truth attaches only to propositions, although some uses of language may themselves be analysed as realizing the instrumental form of truth (e.g., when I exclaim that ‘this hammer is too heavy for the job’, rather than assert that it has the objective property of weighing 2.5 kilos; Overgaard 2002, 77; cf. Being and Time 33:199–200).
It is at this point that an ongoing dispute in Heidegger scholarship comes to the fore. It has been argued (e.g., Dahlstrom 2001, Overgaard 2002) that a number of prominent readings of Heidegger (e.g., Okrent 1988, Dreyfus 1991) place such heavy philosophical emphasis on Dasein as a site of skilled practical activity that they end up simply identifying Dasein's understanding of Being with skilled practical activity. Because of this shared tendency, such readings are often grouped together as advocating a pragmatist interpretation of Heidegger. According to its critics, the inadequacy of the pragmatist interpretation is exposed once it is applied to Heidegger's account of truth. For although the pragmatist interpretation correctly recognizes that, for Heidegger, propositional correspondence is not the most fundamental phenomenon of truth, it takes the fundamental variety to be exhausted by Dasein's sense-making skilled practical activity. But (the critic points out) this is to ignore the fact that even though instrumental truth is more basic than traditional propositional truth, nevertheless it too depends on a prior field of significance (one that determines the correct and incorrect uses of equipment) and thus on the phenomenon of original truth. Put another way, the pragmatist interpretation falls short because it fails to distinguish original truth from instrumental truth. It is worth commenting here that not every so-called pragmatist reading is on a par with respect to this issue. For example, Dreyfus (2008) separates out (what he calls) background coping (Dasein's familiarity with, and knowledge of how to navigate the meaningful structures of, its world) from (what he calls) skilled or absorbed coping (Dasein's skilled practical activity), and argues that, for Heidegger, the former is ontologically more basic than the latter. If original truth is manifested in background coping, and instrumental truth in skilled coping, this disrupts the thought that the two notions of truth are being run together (for discussion, see Overgaard 2002 85–6, note 17).
How should one respond to Heidegger's analysis of truth? One objection is that original truth ultimately fails to qualify as a form of truth at all. As Tugendhat (1967) observes, it is a plausible condition on the acceptability of any proposed account of truth that it accommodate a distinction between what is asserted or intended and how things are in themselves. It is clear that propositional truth as correspondence satisfies this condition, and notice that (if we squint a little) so too does instrumental truth, since despite my intentions, I can fail, in my actions, to use the hammer in ways that successfully articulate its place in the relevant equipmental network. However, as Tugendhat argues, it is genuinely hard to see how original truth as unconcealing could possibly support a distinction between what is asserted or intended and how things are in themselves. After all, unconcealing is, in part, the process through which entities are made intelligible to Dasein in such a way that the distinction in question can apply. Thus, Tugendhat concludes, although unconcealing may be a genuine phenomenon that constitutes a transcendental condition for there to be truth, it is not itself a species of truth. (For discussions of Tugendhat's critique, see Dahlstrom 2001, Overgaard 2002.)
Whether or not unconcealing ought to count as a species of truth, it is arguable that the place which it (along with its partner structure, Reality) occupies in the Heideggerian framework must ultimately threaten even the mild kind of scientific realism that we have been attributing, somewhat tentatively, to Heidegger. The tension comes into view just at the point where unconcealing is reinterpreted in terms of Dasein's essential historicality. Because intelligibility, and thus unconcealing, has an essentially historical character, it is difficult to resist the thought that the propositional and instrumental truths generated out of some specific field of intelligibility will be relativistically tied to a particular culture in a particular time period. Moreover, at one point, Heidegger suggests that even truth as revealed by science is itself subject to this kind of relativistic constraint. Thus he says that “every factical science is always manifestly in the grip of historizing” (Being and Time 76: 444). The implication is that, for Heidegger, one cannot straightforwardly subject the truth of one age to the standards of another, which means, for example, that contemporary chemistry and alchemical chemistry might both be true (cf. Dreyfus 1990, 261–2). But even if this more radical position is ultimately Heidegger's, there remains space here for some form of realism. Given the transcendental relation that, according to Heidegger, obtains between fields of intelligibility and science, the view on offer might still support a historically conditioned form of Kantian empirical realism with respect to science. Nevertheless it must, it seems, reject the full-on scientific realist commitment to the idea that the history of science is regulated by progress towards some final and unassailable set of scientifically established truths about nature, by a journey towards, as it were, God's science (Haugeland 2007).
The realist waters in which our preliminary interpretation has been swimming are muddied even further by another aspect of Dasein's essential historicality. Officially, it is seemingly not supposed to be a consequence of that historicality that we cannot discover universal features of ourselves. The evidence for this is that there are many conclusions reached in Being and Time that putatively apply to all Dasein, for example that Dasein's everyday experience is characterized by the structural domains of readiness-to-hand, un-readiness-to-hand and presence-at-hand (for additional evidence, see Polt 1999 92–4). Moreover, Heidegger isn't saying that any route to understanding is as good as any other. For example, he prioritizes authenticity as the road to an answer to the question of the meaning of Being. Thus:
the idea of existence, which guides us as that which we see in advance, has been made definite [transformed from pre-ontological to ontological, from implicit and vague to explicitly articulated] by the clarification of our ownmost potentiality-for-Being. (Being and Time 63: 358)
Still, if this priority claim and the features shared by all Dasein really are supposed to be ahistorical, universal conditions (applicable everywhere throughout history), we are seemingly owed an account of just how such conditions are even possible, given Dasein's essential historicality.
Finally, one might wonder whether the ‘realist Heidegger’ can live with the account of temporality given in Being and Time. If temporality is the a priori condition for us to encounter entities as equipment, and if, in the relevant sense, the unfolding of time coincides with the unfolding of Dasein (Dasein, as temporality, temporalizes; see above), then equipmental entities will be intelligible to us only in (what we might call) Dasein-time, the time that we ourselves are. Now, we have seen previously that nature is often encountered as equipment, which means that natural equipment will be intelligible to us only in Dasein-time. But what about nature in a non-equipmental form—nature (as one might surely be tempted to say) as it is in itself? One might try to argue that those encounters with nature that reveal nature as it is in itself are precisely those encounters that reveal nature as present-at-hand, and that to reveal nature as present-at-hand is, in part, to reveal nature within present-at-hand time (e.g., clock time), a time which is, in the relevant sense, independent of Dasein. Unfortunately there's a snag with this story (and thus for the attempt to see Heidegger as a realist). Heidegger claims that presence-at-hand (as revealed by theoretical reflection) is subject to the same Dasein-dependent temporality as readiness-to-hand:
…if Dasein's Being is completely grounded in temporality, then temporality must make possible Being-in-the-world and therewith Dasein's transcendence; this transcendence in turn provides the support for concernful Being alongside entities within-the-world, whether this Being is theoretical or practical. (Being and Time 69: 415, my emphasis)
But now if theoretical investigations reveal nature in present-at-hand time, and if in the switching over from the practical use of equipment to the theoretical investigation of objects, time remains the same Dasein-time, then present-at-hand time is Dasein-dependent too. Given this, it seems that the only way we can give any sense to the idea of nature as it is in itself is to conceive of such nature as being outside of time. Interestingly, in the History of the Concept of Time (a text based on Heidegger's notes for a 1925 lecture course and often thought of as a draft of Being and Time), Heidegger seems to embrace this very option, arguing that nature is within time only when it is encountered in Dasein's world, and concluding that nature as it is in itself is entirely atemporal. It is worth noting the somewhat Kantian implication of this conclusion: if all understanding is grounded in temporality, then the atemporality of nature as it is in itself would mean that, for Heidegger, we cannot understand natural things as they really are in themselves (cf. Dostal 1993).
After Being and Time there is a shift in Heidegger's thinking that he himself christened ‘the turn’ (die Kehre). In a 1947 piece, in which Heidegger distances his views from Sartre's existentialism, he links the turn to his own failure to produce the missing divisions of Being and Time.
The adequate execution and completion of this other thinking that abandons subjectivity is surely made more difficult by the fact that in the publication of Being and Time the third division of the first part, “Time and Being,” was held back… Here everything is reversed. The division in question was held back because everything failed in the adequate saying of this turning and did not succeed with the help of the language of metaphysics… This turning is not a change of standpoint from Being and Time, but in it the thinking that was sought first arrives at the location of that dimension out of which Being and Time is experienced, that is to say, experienced from the fundamental experience of the oblivion of Being. (Letter on Humanism, pp. 231–2)
Notice that while, in the turning, “everything is reversed”, nevertheless it is “not a change of standpoint from Being and Time”, so what we should expect from the later philosophy is a pattern of significant discontinuities with Being and Time, interpretable from within a basic project and a set of concerns familiar from that earlier text. The quotation from the Letter on Humanism provides some clues about what to look for. Clearly we need to understand what is meant by the abandonment of subjectivity, what kind of barrier is erected by the language of metaphysics, and what is involved in the oblivion of Being. The second and third of these issues will be clarified later. The first bears immediate comment.
At root Heidegger's later philosophy shares the deep concerns of Being and Time, in that it is driven by the same preoccupation with Being and our relationship with it that propelled the earlier work. In a fundamental sense, then, the question of Being remains the question. However, Being and Time addresses the question of Being via an investigation of Dasein, the kind of being whose Being is an issue for it. As we have seen, this investigation takes the form of a transcendental hermeneutic phenomenology that begins with ordinary human experience. It is arguable that, in at least one important sense, it is this philosophical methodology that the later Heidegger is rejecting when he talks of his abandonment of subjectivity. Of course, as conceptualized in Being and Time, Dasein is not a Cartesian subject, so the abandonment of subjectivity is not as simple as a shift of attention away from Dasein and towards some other route to Being. Nevertheless the later Heidegger does seem to think that his earlier focus on Dasein bears the stain of a subjectivity that ultimately blocks the path to an understanding of Being. This is not to say that the later thinking turns away altogether from the project of transcendental hermeneutic phenomenology. The project of illuminating the a priori conditions on the basis of which entities show up as intelligible to us is still at the heart of things. What the later thinking involves is a reorientation of the basic project so that, as we shall see, the point of departure is no longer a detailed description of ordinary human experience. (For an analysis of ‘the turn’ that identifies a number of different senses of the term at work in Heidegger's thinking, and which in some ways departs from the brief treatment given here, see Sheehan 2010.)
A further difficulty in getting to grips with Heidegger's later philosophy is that, unlike the early thought, which is heavily centred on a single text, the later thought is distributed over a large number and range of works, including books, lecture courses, occasional addresses, and presentations given to non-academic audiences. So one needs a navigational strategy. The strategy adopted here will be to view the later philosophy through the lens of Heidegger's strange and perplexing study from the 1930s called Contributions to Philosophy (From Enowning), (Beitrage zur Philosophie (Vom Ereignis)), henceforth referred to as the Contributions. (For a book-length introduction to the Contributions, see Vallega-Neu 2003. For a useful collection of papers, see Scott et al. 2001.) The key themes that shape the later philosophy will be identified in the Contributions, but those themes will be explored in a way that draws on, and make connections with, a selection of other works. From this partial expedition, the general pattern of Heidegger's post-turn thinking, although not every aspect of it, will emerge.
The Contributions was written between 1936 and 1938. Intriguingly, Heidegger asked for the work not to appear in print until after the publication of all his lecture courses, and although his demand wasn't quite heeded by the editors of his collected works, the Contributions was not published in German until 1989 and not in English until 1999. To court a perhaps overly dramatic telling of Heideggerian history, if one puts a lot of weight on Heidegger's view of when the Contributions should have been published, one might conceivably think of those later writings that, in terms of when they were produced, followed the Contributions as something like the training material needed to understand the earlier work (see e.g., Polt 1999 140). In any case, during his lifetime, Heidegger showed the Contributions to no more than a few close colleagues. The excitement with which the eventual publication of the text was greeted by Heidegger's readers was partly down to the fact that one of the chosen few granted a sneak preview was the influential interpreter of Heidegger, Otto Pöggeler, who then proceeded to give it some rather extraordinary advance publicity, describing it as the work in which Heidegger's genuine and complete thinking is captured (see e.g., Pöggeler 1963/1987).
Whether or not the hype surrounding the Contributions was justified remains a debated question among Heidegger scholars (see e.g., Sheehan 2001, Thomson 2003). What is clear, however, is that reading the work is occasionally a bewildering experience. Rather than a series of systematic hermeneutic spirals in the manner of Being and Time, the Contributions is organised as something like a musical fugue, that is, as a suite of overlapping developments of a single main theme (Schoenbohm 2001; Thomson 2003). And while the structure of the Contributions is challenging enough, the language in which it is written can appear to be wilfully obscurantist. Polt (1999, 140) comments that “the most important sections of the text can appear to be written in pure Heideggerese… [as Heidegger] exploits the sounds and senses of German in order to create an idiosyncratic symphony of meanings”. Less charitably, Sheehan (2001) describes it as “a needlessly difficult text, obsessively repetitious, badly in need of an editor”, while Schurmann (1992, 313, quoted by Thomson 2003, 57) complains that “at times one may think one is reading a piece of Heideggerian plagiarism, so encumbered is it with ellipses and assertoric monoliths”. Arguably, the style in which the Contributions is written is ‘merely’ the most extreme example (perhaps, the purest example) of a ‘poetic’ style that Heidegger adopts pretty much throughout the later philosophy. This stylistic aspect of the turn is an issue discussed below. For the moment, however, it is worth noting that, in the stylistic transition achieved in the Contributions, Heidegger's writing finally leaves behind all vestiges of the idea that Being can be represented accurately using some pseudo-scientific philosophical language. The goal, instead, is to respond appropriately to Being in language, to forge a pathway to another kind of thinking—Being-historical thinking (for discussion of this term, see Vallega 2001, von Herrmann 2001, Vallega-Neu 2003, 28-9). In its attempt to achieve this, the Contributions may be viewed as setting the agenda for Heidegger's post-turn thought. So what are the central themes that appear in the Contributions and which then resonate throughout the later works? Four stand out: Being as appropriation (an idea which, as we shall see, is bound up with a reinterpretation of the notion of dwelling that, in terms of explicit textual development, takes place largely outwith the text of the Contributions itself); technology (or machination); safeguarding (or sheltering); and the gods. Each of these themes will now be explored.
In Being and Time, the most fundamental a priori transcendental condition for there to be Dasein's distinctive mode of Being which is identified is temporality. In the later philosophy, the ontological focus ultimately shifts to the claim that human Being consists most fundamentally in dwelling. This shift of attention emerges out of a subtle reformulation of the question of Being itself, a reformulation performed in the Contributions. The question now becomes not ‘What is the meaning of Being?’ but rather ‘How does Being essentially unfold?’. This reformulation means (in a way that should become clearer in a moment) that we are now asking the question of Being not from the perspective of Dasein, but from the perspective of Being (see above on abandoning subjectivity). But it also suggests that Being needs to be understood as fundamentally a timebound, historical process. As Heidegger puts it: “A being is: Be-ing holds sway [unfolds]”. (Contributions 10: 22. Quotations from the Contributions will be given in the form ‘section: page number’ where ‘page number’ refers to the Emad and Maly English translation. The hyphenated term ‘be-ing’ is adopted by Emad and Maly, in order to respect the fact that, in the Contributions, Heidegger substitutes the archaic spelling ‘Seyn’ for the contemporary ‘Sein’ as a way of distancing himself further from the traditional language of metaphysics. This translational convention, which has not become standard practice in the secondary literature, will not be adopted here, except in quotations from the Emad and Maly translation.)
Further aspects of the essential unfolding of Being are revealed by what is perhaps the key move in the Contributions—a rethinking of Being in terms of the notion of Ereignis, a term translated variously as ‘event’ (most closely reflecting its ordinary German usage), ‘appropriation’, ‘appropriating event’, ‘event of appropriation’ or ‘enowning’. (For an analysis which tracks Heidegger's use of the term Ereignis at various stages of his thought, see Vallega-Neu 2010). The history of Being is now conceived as a series of appropriating events in which the different dimensions of human sense-making—the religious, political, philosophical (and so on) dimensions that define the culturally conditioned epochs of human history—are transformed. Each such transformation is a revolution in human patterns of intelligibility, so what is appropriated in the event is Dasein and thus the human capacity for taking-as (see e.g., Contributions 271: 343). Once appropriated in this way, Dasein operates according to a specific set of established sense-making practices and structures. In a Kuhnian register, one might think of this as the normal sense-making that follows a paradigm-shift. But now what is it that does the appropriating? Heidegger's answer to this question is Being. Thus Heidegger writes of the “En-ownment [appropriation] of Da-sein by be-ing” (Contributions 141: 184) and of “man as owned by be-ing” (Contributions 141: 185). Indeed, this appropriation of Dasein by Being is what enables Being to unfold: “Be-ing needs man in order to hold sway [unfold]” (Contributions 133: 177). The claim that Being appropriates Dasein might seem to invite the adoption of an ethereal voice and a far-off look in the eye, but any such temptation towards mysticism of this kind really ought to be resisted. The mystical reading seems to depend on a view according to which “be-ing holds sway ‘for itself’ ” and Dasein “takes up the relating to be-ing”, such that Being is “something over-against” Dasein (Contributions 135: 179). But Heidegger argues that this relational view would be ‘misleading’. That said, to make proper inroads into the mystical reading, we need to reacquaint ourselves with the notion of dwelling.
As we have seen, the term ‘dwelling’ appears in Being and Time, where it is used to capture the distinctive manner in which Dasein is in the world. The term continues to play this role in the later philosophy, but, in texts such as Building Dwelling, Thinking (1954), it is reinterpreted and made philosophically central to our understanding of Being. This reinterpretation of, and the new emphasis on, dwelling is bound up with the idea from the Contributions of Being as appropriation. To explain: Where one dwells is where one is at home, where one has a place. This sense of place is what grounds Heidegger's existential notion of spatiality, as developed in the later philosophy (see Malpas 2006). In dwelling, then, Dasein is located within a set of sense-making practices and structures with which it is familiar. This way of unravelling the phenomenon of dwelling enables us to see more clearly—and more concretely—what is meant by the idea of Being as event/appropriation. Being is an event in that it takes (appropriates) place (where one is at home, one's sense-making practices and structures) (cf. Polt 1999 148). In other words, Being appropriates Dasein in that, in its unfolding, it essentially happens in and to Dasein's patterns of sense-making. This way of thinking about the process of appropriation does rather less to invite obscurantist mysticism.
The reinterpretation of dwelling in terms of Being as appropriation is ultimately intertwined with a closely related reinterpretation of what is meant by a world. One can see the latter development in a pregnant passage from Heidegger's 1954 piece, Building Dwelling Thinking.
[H]uman being consists in dwelling and, indeed, dwelling in the sense of the stay of mortals on the earth.
But ‘on the earth’ already means ‘under the sky.’ Both of these also mean ‘remaining before the divinities’ and include a ‘belonging to men's being with one another.’ By a primal oneness the four—earth and sky, divinities and mortals—belong together in one. (351)
So, human beings dwell in that they stay (are at home) on the earth, under the sky, before the divinities, and among the mortals (that is, with one another as mortals). It is important for Heidegger that these dimensions of dwelling are conceived not as independent structures but as (to use a piece of terminology from Being and Time) ecstases—phenomena that stand out from an underlying unity. That underlying unity of earth, sky, divinities and mortals—the ‘simple oneness of the four’ as Heidegger puts it in Building Dwelling Thinking (351)—is what he calls the fourfold. The fourfold is the transformed notion of world that applies within the later work (see e.g., The Thing; for an analysis of the fourfold that concentrates on its role as a thinking of things, see Mitchell 2010). It is possible to glimpse the character of the world-as-fourfold by noting that whereas the world as understood through Being and Time is a culturally conditioned structure distinct from nature, the world-as-fourfold appears to be an integrated combination of nature (earth and sky) and culture (divinities and mortals). (Two remarks: First, it may not be obvious why the divinities count as part of culture. This will be explained in a moment. Secondly, the later Heidegger sometimes continues to employ the sense of world that he established in Being and Time, which is why it is useful to signal the new usage as the transformed notion of world, or as the world-as-fourfold.)
There is something useful, as a preliminary move, about interpreting the fourfold as a combination of nature and culture, but it is an idea that must be handled with care. For one thing, if what is meant by nature is the material world and its phenomena as understood by natural science, then Heidegger's account of the fourfold tells against any straightforward identification of earth and sky with nature. Why this is becomes clear once one sees how Heidegger describes the earth and the sky in Building Dwelling Thinking. “Earth is the serving bearer, blossoming and fruiting, spreading out in rock and water, rising up into plant and animal… The sky is the vaulting path of the sun, the course of the changing moon, the wandering glitter of the stars, the year's seasons and their changes, the light and dusk of day, the gloom and glow of night, the clemency and inclemency of the weather, the drifting clouds and blue depth of the ether” (351). What Heidegger's language here indicates is that the earth-as-dwelt-on and the sky-as-dwelt-under are spaces for a mode of habitation by human beings that one might call poetic rather than scientific. So, the nature of dwelling is the nature of the poet. In dwelling we inhabit the poetic (for discussion, see e.g., Young 2002, 99–100).
How does this idea of dwelling as poetic habitation work for the cultural aspects of the fourfold—dwelling among the mortals and before the divinities? To dwell among the mortals is to be “capable of death as death” (Building Dwelling Thinking 352). In the language of Being and Time, this would be to enter into an authentic and thus non-evasive relationship with death (see above). However, as we shall see in a moment, the later Heidegger has a different account of the nothing and thus of the internal relation with the nothing that death involves. It is this reworking of the idea of the nothing that ultimately marks out a newly conceived non-evasive relationship with death as an aspect of dwelling, understood in terms of poetic habitation. The notion of dwelling before the divinities also turns on the development of a theme established in Being and Time, namely that intelligibility is itself cultural and historical in character. More specifically, according to Being and Time, the a priori transcendental conditions for intelligibility are to be interpreted in terms of the phenomenon of heritage, that is as culturally determined structures that form pre-existing fields of intelligibility into which individual human beings are thrown and onto which they project themselves. A key aspect of this idea is that there exist historically important individuals who constitute heroic cultural templates onto which I may now creatively project myself. In the later philosophy these heroic figures are reborn poetically as the divinities of the fourfold, as “the ones to come” (Contributions 248–52: 277–81), and as the “beckoning messengers of the godhead” (Building Dwelling Thinking 351). When Heidegger famously announces that only a god can save us (Only a God can Save Us), or that “the last god is not the end but the other beginning of immeasurable possibilities for our history” (Contributions 256: 289), he has in mind not a religious intervention in an ‘ordinary’ sense of the divine, but rather a transformational event in which a secularized sense of the sacred—a sensitivity to the fact that beings are granted to us in the essential unfolding of Being—is restored (more on this below).
The notion of dwelling as poetic habitation opens up a path to what Heidegger calls ‘the mystery’ (not to be confused with the kind of obscurantist mysticism discussed above). Even though the world always opens up as meaningful in a particular way to any individual human being as a result of the specific heritage into which he or she has been enculturated, there are of course a vast number of alternative fields of intelligibility ‘out there’ that would be available to each of us, if only we could gain access to them by becoming simultaneously embedded in different heritages. But Heidegger's account of human existence means that any such parallel embedding is ruled out, so the plenitude of alternative fields of intelligibility must remain a mystery to us. In Heidegger's later philosophy this mysterious region of Being emerges as a structure that, although not illuminated poetically in dwelling as a particular world-as-fourfold, nevertheless constitutes an essential aspect of dwelling in that it is ontologically co-present with any such world. Appropriation is necessarily a twofold event: as Dasein is thrown into an intelligible world, vast regions of Being are plunged into darkness. But that darkness is a necessary condition for there to be any intelligibility at all. As Heidegger puts it in The Question Concerning Technology (330), “[a]ll revealing belongs within a harboring and a concealing. But that which frees [entities for intelligibility]—the mystery—is concealed and always concealing itself…. Freedom [sense-making, the revealing of beings] is that which conceals in a way that opens to light, in whose clearing shimmers the veil that hides the essential occurrence of all truth and lets the veil appear as what veils”.
It is worth pausing here to comment on the fact that, in his 1935 essay The Origin of the Work of Art, Heidegger writes of a conflict between earth and world. This idea may seem to sit unhappily alongside the simple oneness of the four. The essay in question is notoriously difficult, but the notion of the mystery may help. Perhaps the pivotal thought is as follows: Natural materials (the earth), as used in artworks, enter into intelligibility by establishing certain culturally codified meanings—a world in the sense of Being and Time. Simultaneously, however, those natural materials suggest the existence of a vast range of other possible, but to us unintelligible, meanings, by virtue of the fact that they could have been used to realize those alternative meanings. The conflict, then, turns on the way in which, in the midst of a world, the earth suggests the presence of the mystery. This is one way to hear passages such as the following: “The world, in resting upon the earth, strives to surmount it. As self-opening it cannot endure anything closed. The earth, however, as sheltering and concealing, tends always to draw the world into itself and keep it there” (Origin of the Work of Art 174).
Because the mystery is unintelligible, it is the nothing (no-thing). It is nonetheless a positive ontological phenomenon—a necessary feature of the essential unfolding of Being. This vision of the nothing, as developed in Heidegger's What is Metaphysics?, his 1929 inaugural lecture as Professor of Philosophy at Freiburg, famously attracts the philosophical disdain of the logical positivist Carnap. Carnap judged Heidegger's lecture to turn on a series of unverifiable statements, and thus to be a paradigm case of metaphysical nonsense (Carnap 1932/1959; for a nice account and analysis of the disagreement between Heidegger and Carnap, see Critchley 2001). But placing Carnap's positivist critique to one side, the idea of the nothing allows Heidegger to rethink our relationship with death in relation to poetic habitation. In Being and Time, Being-towards-death is conceived as a relation to the possibility of one's own non-existence. This gives us a sense in which Dasein has an internal structural relation to the nothing. That internal structural relation remains crucial to the later philosophy, but now ‘the nothing’ is to be heard explicitly as ‘the mystery’, a kind of ‘dark matter’ of intelligibility that must remain concealed in the unfolding of Being through which beings are unconcealed. This necessary concealment is “the essential belongingness of the not to being as such” (Contributions 160: 199). In Being-towards-death, this “essential belongingness” is “sheltered” and “comes to light with a singular keenness” (Contributions 160: 199). This is because (echoing a point made earlier) the concealing-unconcealing structure of Being is ultimately to be traced to Dasein's essential finitude. Sheehan (2001) puts it like this: “[o]ur finitude makes all ‘as’-taking… possible by requiring us to understand things not immediately and ontically… but indirectly and ontologically (= imperfectly), through their being”. In Being-towards-death, the human finitude that grounds the mystery, the plenitude of possible worlds in which I am not, is highlighted. As mortals, then, our internal relation to death links us to the mystery (see The Thing). So dwelling (as poetic habitation) involves not only embeddedness in the fourfold, but also, as part of a unitary ontological structure, a necessary relationship with the mystery. (As mentioned earlier (2.2.7), it is arguable that the sense of the nothing as unactualized possibilities of Being is already at work in Being and Time (see Vallega-Neu 2003, 21). Indeed, Heidegger's explicit remarks on Being-towards-death in the Contributions (sections 160–2) suggest that it is. But even if that is so, the idea undoubtedly finds its fullest expression in the later work.)
If the essence of human Being is to dwell in the fourfold, then human beings are to the extent that they so dwell. And this will be achieved to the extent that human beings realize the “basic character of dwelling”, which Heidegger now argues is a matter of safeguarding “the fourfold in its essential unfolding” (Building Dwelling Thinking, 352). Such safeguarding is unpacked as a way of Being in which human beings save the earth, receive the sky as sky, await the divinities as divinities, and initiate their own essential being as mortals. Perhaps the best way to understand this four-way demand is to explore Heidegger's claim that modern humans, especially modern Western humans, systematically fail to meet it. That is, we are marked out by our loss of dwelling—our failure to safeguard the fourfold in its essential unfolding. This existential malaise is what Heidegger refers to in the Letter on Humanism as the oblivion of Being. As we are about to see, the fact that this is the basic character of our modern human society is, according to Heidegger, explained by the predominance of a mode of sense-making that, in the Contributions, he calls machination, but which he later (and more famously) calls technology.
In his 1953 piece The Question Concerning Technology, Heidegger begins with the everyday account of technology according to which technology is the vast array of instruments, machines, artefacts and devices that we human beings invent, build, and then exploit. On this view technology is basically a tool that we control. Heidegger claims that this everyday account is, in a sense, correct, but it provides only a limited “instrumental and anthropological definition” of technology (Question Concerning Technology 312). It depicts technology as a means to an end (instrumental) and as a product of human activity (anthropological). What needs to be exposed and interrogated, however, is something that is passed over by the everyday account, namely the essence of technology. To bring this into view, Heidegger reinterprets his earlier notion of intelligibility in terms of the concept of a clearing. A clearing is a region of Being in which things are revealed as mattering in some specific way or another. To identify the essence of technology is to lay bare technology as a clearing, that is, to describe a technological mode of Being. As Heidegger puts it in the Contributions (61: 88), “[i]n the context of the being-question, this word [machination, technology] does not name a human comportment but a manner of the essential swaying of being”.
So what is the character of entities as revealed technologically? Heidegger's claim is that the “revealing that holds sway throughout modern technology… [is]… a challenging… which puts to nature the unreasonable demand that it supply energy which can be extracted and stored as such” (Question Concerning Technology 320). The mode of revealing characteristic of modern technology understands phenomena in general—including the non-biological natural world, plants, animals, and indeed human beings—to be no more than what Heidegger calls standing-reserve, that is, resources to be exploited as means to ends. This analysis extends to regions of nature and sections of society that have not yet been harnessed positively as resources. Such unexploited elements (e.g., an unexplored jungle, this year's unemployed school leavers) exist technologically precisely as potential resources.
Heidegger's flagship example of technology is a hydroelectric plant built on the Rhine river that converts that river into a mere supplier of water power. Set against this “monstrousness” (Question Concerning Technology 321) is the poetic habitation of the natural environment of the Rhine as signalled by an old wooden bridge that spanned the river for hundreds of years, plus the river as revealed by Hölderlin's poem “The Rhine”. In these cases of poetic habitation, natural phenomena are revealed to us as objects of respect and wonder. One might think that Heidegger is over-reacting here, and that despite the presence of the hydroelectric plant, the Rhine in many ways remains a glorious example of natural beauty. Heidegger's response to this complaint is to focus on how the technological mode of Being corrupts the very notion of unspoilt areas of nature, by reducing such areas to resources ripe for exploitation by the tourist industry. Turning our attention to inter-human affairs, the technological mode of Being manifests itself when, for example, a friendly chat in the bar is turned into networking (Dreyfus 1993). And, in the light of Heidegger's analysis, one might smile wryly at the trend for companies to take what used to be called ‘personnel’ departments, and to rename them ‘human resources’. Many other examples could be given, but the general point is clear. The primary phenomenon to be understood is not technology as a collection of instruments, but rather technology as a clearing that establishes a deeply instrumental and, as Heidegger sees it, grotesque understanding of the world in general. Of course, if technological revealing were a largely restricted phenomenon, characteristic of isolated individuals or groups, then Heidegger's analysis of it would be of limited interest. The sting in the tale, however, is that, according to Heidegger, technological revealing is not a peripheral aspect of Being. Rather, it defines our modern way of living, at least in the West.
At this point one might pause to wonder whether technology really is the structure on which we should be concentrating. The counter-suggestion would be that technological thinking is merely the practical application of modern mathematical science, and that the latter is therefore the primary phenomenon. Heidegger rejects this view, arguing in contrast that the establishment of the technological mode of revealing is a necessary condition for there to be mathematical science at all, since such science “demands that nature be orderable as standing-reserve” by requiring that “nature report itself in some way or other that is identifiable through calculation and that it remain orderable as a system of information” (Question Concerning Technology 328). Either way, one might object to the view of science at work here, by pointing to analyses which suggest that while science may reduce objects to instrumental means rather than ends, it need not behave in this way. For example, O'Neill (2003) develops such an analysis by drawing explicitly on (one interpretation of) the Marxist (and ultimately Aristotelian) notion of the humanization of the senses. Good science may depend on the capacity for the disinterested use of the senses, and so foster a non-instrumental responsiveness to natural objects as ends rather than as means. This is a ‘humanization’ because the disinterested use of the senses is a characteristically human capacity. Thus to develop such a capacity is to develop a distinctively human virtue, something which is a constituent of human well-being. Moreover, if science may sometimes operate with a sense of awe and wonder in the face of beings, it may point the way beyond the technological clearing, an effect that, as we shall see later, Heidegger thinks is achieved principally by some great art.
By revealing beings as no more than the measurable and the manipulable, technology ultimately reduces beings to not-beings (Contributions 2: 6). This is our first proper glimpse of the oblivion of Being, the phenomenon that, in the Contributions, Heidegger also calls the abandonment of Being, or the abandonment of beings by Being (e.g., 55: 80). The notion of a not-being signals two things: (i) technological revealing drives out any sense of awe and wonder in the presence of beings, obliterating the secularized sense of what is sacred that is exemplified by the poetic habitation of the natural environment of the Rhine; (ii) we are essentially indifferent to the loss. Heidegger calls this indifference “the hidden distress of no-distress-at-all” (Contributions 4: 8). Indeed, on Heidegger's diagnosis, our response to the loss of any feeling of sacredness or awe in the face of beings is to find a technological substitute for that feeling, in the form of “lived-experience”, a drive for entertainment and information, “exaggeration and uproar” (Contributions 66: 91). All that said, however, technology should not be thought of as a wholly ‘negative’ phenomenon. For Heidegger, technology is not only the great danger, it is also a stage in the unfolding of Being that brings us to the brink of a kind of secularized salvation, by awakening in us a (re-)discovery of the sacred, appropriately understood (cf. Thomson 2003, 64–66). A rough analogy might be drawn here with the Marxist idea that the unfolding of history results in the establishment of capitalist means of production with their characteristic ‘negative’ elements—labour treated merely as a commodity, the multi-dimensional alienation of the workers—that bring us to the brink of (by creating the immediate social and economic preconditions for) the socialist transformation of society. Indeed, the analogy might be pushed a little further: just as the socialist transformation of society remains anything but inevitable (Trotsky taught us that), Heidegger argues that the salvation-bringing transformation of the present condition of human being is most certainly not bound to occur.
To bring all these points into better view, we need to take a step back and ask the following question. Is the technological mode of revealing ultimately a human doing for which we are responsible? Heidegger's answer is ‘yes and no’. On the one hand, humankind is the active agent of technological thinking, so humankind is not merely a passive element. On the other hand, “the unconcealment itself… is never a human handiwork” (Question Concerning Technology 324). As Heidegger later put it, the “essence of man is framed, claimed and challenged by a power which manifests itself in the essence of technology, a power which man himself does not control.” (Only a God can Save Us; 107, my emphasis). To explicate the latter point, Heidegger introduces the concepts of destining (cf. the earlier notion of ‘destiny’) and enframing. Destining is “what first starts man upon a way of revealing” (Question Concerning Technology 329). As such it is an a priori transcendental structure of human Being and so beyond our control. Human history is a temporally organized kaleidoscope of particular ordainings of destining (see also On the Essence of Truth). Enframing is one such ordaining, the “gathering together of the setting-upon that sets upon man, i.e., challenges him forth, to reveal the actual, in the mode of ordering, as standing-reserve” (Question Concerning Technology 325). This is, of course, a way of unpacking the point (see above) that technology is “a manner of the essential swaying of being” (Contributions 61: 88), that is, of Being's own essential unfolding.
Enframing, then, is the ordaining of destining that ushers in the modern technological clearing. But there is more to it than that. To see why, consider the following criticism of Heidegger's analysis, as we have unpacked it so far. Any suggestion that technological thinking has appeared for the first time along with our modern Western way of living would seem to be straightforwardly false. To put the point crudely, surely the ancient Greeks sometimes treated entities merely as instrumental means. But if that is right, and Heidegger would agree that it is, then how can it be that technological thinking defines the spirit of our age? The answer lies in Heidegger's belief that pre-modern, traditional artisanship (as exemplified by the old wooden bridge over the Rhine), manifests what he calls poiesis. In this context poiesis is to be understood as a process of gathering together and fashioning natural materials in such a way that the human project in which they figure is in a deep harmony with, indeed reveals—or as Heidegger sometimes says when discussing poiesis, brings forth—the essence of those materials and any natural environment in which they are set. Thus, in discussing what needs to be learnt by an apprentice to a traditional cabinetmaker, Heidegger writes:
If he is to become a true cabinetmaker, he makes himself answer and respond above all to the different kinds of wood and to the shapes slumbering within wood—to wood as it enters into man's dwelling with all the hidden riches of its essence. In fact, this relatedness to wood is what maintains the whole craft. Without that relatedness, the craft will never be anything but empty busywork, any occupation with it will be determined exclusively by business concerns. Every handicraft, all human dealings, are constantly in that danger. (What is Called Thinking? 379)
Poiesis, then, is a process of revealing. Poietic events are acts of unconcealment—one is tempted to coin the ugly neologism truth-ing—in which entities are allowed to show themselves. As with the closely related notion of original truth that is at work in Being and Time, the idea of entities showing themselves does not imply that what is revealed in poiesis is something independent of human involvement. Thus what is revealed by the artisanship of the cabinetmaker is “wood as it enters into man's dwelling”. This telling remark forges a crucial philosophical link (and not merely an etymological one) between the poietic and poetic. Poietic events and poetic habitation involve the very same mode of intelligibility.
By introducing the concept of poiesis, and by unearthing the presence of the phenomenon in traditional artisanship, Heidegger is suggesting that even though technological thinking was a possibility in pre-modern society, it was neither the only nor the dominant mode of bringing-forth. So what has changed? Heidegger argues that what is distinctive about enframing as an ordaining of destining is (i) that it “drives out every other possibility of revealing” (Question Concerning Technology 332), and (ii) that it covers up revealing as such (more precisely, covers up the concealing-unconcealing character of appropriation), thereby leaving us blind to the fact that technology is, in its essence, a clearing. For Heidegger, these dual features of enframing are intimately tied up with the idea of technology as metaphysics completing itself. He writes: “[a]s a form of truth [clearing] technology is grounded in the history of metaphysics, which is itself a distinctive and up to now the only perceptible phase of the history of Being” (Letter on Humanism 244). According to Heidegger, metaphysics conceives of Being as a being (for more on the reduction of Being to a being, see section 2.2.1 above). In so doing, metaphysics obscures the concealing-unconcealing dynamic of the essential unfolding of Being, a dynamic that provides the a priori condition for there to be beings. The history of metaphysics is thus equivalent to the history of Western philosophy in which Being as such is passed over, a history that, for Heidegger, culminates in the nihilistic forces of Nietzsche's eternally recurring will-to-power. The totalizing logic of metaphysics involves the view that there is a single clearing (whatever it may be) that constitutes reality. This renders thought insensitive to the fundamental structure of Being, in which any particular clearing is ontologically co-present with the unintelligible plenitude of alternative clearings, the mystery. With this totalizing logic in view, enframing might be thought of as the ordaining of destining that establishes the technological clearing as the one dominant picture, to the exclusion of all others. Hence technology is metaphysics completing itself.
We are now in a position to deal with two items of unfinished business. First, recall the stylistic shift that characterizes Heidegger's later work. Heidegger not only increasingly engages with poetry in his later thinking (especially the works of the German lyric poet Hölderlin), he also adopts a substantially more poetic style of writing. But why? The language of metaphysics, which ultimately unpacks itself as technological, calculative thinking, is a language from which Heidegger believed he did not fully escape in Being and Time (see quotation from the Letter on Humanism at the beginning of section 3.1 above, and Vallega-Neu 2003 24–9 for discussion). What is needed to think Being historically, to think Being in its essential unfolding, is a different kind of philosophical language, a language suggested by the poetic character of dwelling. It is important to realize that Heidegger's intention here is not to place Being beyond philosophy and within the reach of poetry, although he does believe that certain poets, such as Hölderlin, enable us to glimpse the mysterious aspect of Being. His intention, rather, is to establish that the kind of philosophy that is needed here is itself poetic. This explains the stylistic component of the turn.
Secondly, recall the loss of dwelling identified by Heidegger. Modern humankind (at least in the West) is in the (enframed) grip of technological thinking. Because of this promotion of instrumentality as the fundamental way of Being of entities, we have lost sight of how to inhabit the fourfold poetically, of how to safeguard the fourfold in its essential unfolding. Such safeguarding would, in a sense, be the opposite of technological thinking. But what ‘opposite’ amounts to here needs to be worked out with care. Given contemporary concerns over deforestation, global warming and the like, it is tempting to think that Heidegger's analysis of technology might provide the philosophical platform for some sort of extreme eco-radicalism. However, while there is undoubtedly much of value to be said about the contribution that Heidegger's thinking may make to contemporary debates in environmental ethics (see e.g., Zimmerman 1983, 1993, 2002), Heidegger was no eco-warrior and no luddite. Although he often promoted a romantic image of a pre-technological age inhabited by worthy peasants in touch with nature, he did not believe that it is possible for modern humankind to forge some pastoral Eden from which technology (in both the everyday and the essential sense) is entirely absent. So we should neither “push on blindly with technology” nor “curse it as the work of the devil” (Question Concerning Technology 330). Indeed, both these options would at root be technological modes of thinking. The way forward, according to Heidegger, is not to end technology, but rather to inhabit it differently (see e.g., Vallega-Neu 2003 93 note 15). We need to transform our mode of Being into one in which technology (in the sense of the machines and devices of the modern age) is there for us to enjoy and use, but in which technology (in the sense of a mode of Being-in-the-world) is not our only or fundamental way of encountering entities. And what is the basic character of this reinhabiting? It is to shelter the truth of Being in beings (e.g., Contributions 246: 273), to safeguard the fourfold in its essential unfolding. In what, then, does this safeguarding consist?
Heidegger argues that if humankind is to enter into safeguarding, it needs to learn (or perhaps to learn once more) to think of Being as a gift that has been granted to us in history. Indeed, to think properly is precisely to be grateful for the gift of Being (see What is Called Thinking?). (Terms such as ‘gift’ and ‘granted’ should not be heard theologically, but in terms of secularized sacredness and destining.) In this learning process, certain artworks constitute ontological beacons that disrupt the technological clearing. Thus recall that Heidegger identifies a shared form of disclosure that is instantiated both by the old wooden bridge over the Rhine and by Hölderlin's poem “The Rhine”. We can now understand this identification in terms of the claim that certain artworks (although of course not those that themselves fall prey to technological thinking) share with traditional artisanship the capacity to realize poiesis. In so doing such artworks succeed in bringing us into contact with the mystery through their expression of dwelling (poetic habitation). In listening attentively and gratefully to how Being announces itself in such artworks, humankind will prepare themselves for the task of safeguarding.
But what exactly would one do in order to safeguard the fourfold in its essential unfolding. Recall that in Building Dwelling Thinking Heidegger presents safeguarding as a four-dimensional way of Being. The first two dimensions—saving the earth and receiving the sky as sky—refer to our relationship with the non-human natural world. As such they forge a genuine connection between the later Heidegger and contemporary environmentalist thinking. However, the connection needs to be stated with care. Once again the concept of poiesis is central. Heidegger holds that the self-organized unfolding of the natural world, the unaided blossoming of nature, is itself a process of poiesis. Indeed it is poiesis “in the highest sense” (Question Concerning Technology 317). One might think, then, that saving the earth, safeguarding in its first dimension, is a matter of leaving nature to its own devices, of actively ensuring that the conditions obtain for unaided natural poiesis. However, for Heidegger, saving the earth is primarily an ontological, rather than an ecological, project. ‘Save’ here means “to set something free into its own essence” (Building Dwelling Thinking, p.352), and thus joins a cluster of related concepts that includes dwelling and also poiesis as realized in artisanship and art. So while, say, fiercely guarding the integrity of wilderness areas may be one route to safeguarding, saving the earth may also be achieved through the kind of artisanship and its associated gathering of natural materials that is characteristic of the traditional cabinetmaker. The concept of saving as a setting free of something into its own essence also clears a path to another important point. All four dimensions of safeguarding have at their root the notion of staying with things, of letting things be in their essence through cultivation or construction. Heidegger describes such staying with things as “the only way in which the fourfold stay within the fourfold [i.e., safeguarding] is accomplished at any time in simple unity” (Building Dwelling Thinking 353). It is thus the unifying existential structure of safeguarding.
What now of safeguarding in its second dimension—to receive the sky as sky? Here Heidegger's main concern seems to be to advocate the synchronization of contemporary human life with the rhythms of nature (day and night, the seasons, and so on). Here safeguarding is exemplified by the aforementioned peasants whose lives were interlocked with such natural rhythms (through planting seasons etc.) in a way that modern technological society is not. One might note that this dislocation has become even more pronounced since Heidegger's death, with the advent of the Internet-driven, 24-hours-a-day-7-days-a-week service culture. Once again we need to emphasize that Heidegger's position is not some sort of philosophical ludditism, but a plea for the use of contemporary machines and devices in a way that is sensitive to the temporal patterns of the natural world. (For useful discussion see Young 2002, 110–113. Young makes an illuminating connection with Heidegger's eulogy to van Gogh's painting of a pair of peasant shoes to be found in The Origin of the Work of Art.)
Of course, these relationships with nature are still only part of what safeguarding involves. Its third and fourth dimensions demand that human beings await the divinities as divinities and “initiate their own essential being—their being capable of death as death—into the use and practice of this capacity, so that there may be a good death” (Building Dwelling Thinking 352). The latter demand suggests that we may safeguard each other as mortals by integrating a non-evasive attitude to death (see above) into the cultural structures (e.g., the death-related customs and ceremonies) of the community. But now what about the third dimension of safeguarding? What does it mean to await the divinities as divinities?
Let's again approach our question via a potential problem with Heidegger's account. Echoing a worry that attaches to the concept of heritage in Being and Time, it may seem that the notion of destining, especially in its more specific manifestation as enframing, involves a kind of fatalism. Despite some apparent rhetoric to the contrary, however, Heidegger's considered view is that destining is ultimately not a “fate that compels” (Question Concerning Technology 330). We have been granted the saving power to transform our predicament. Moreover, the fact that we are at a point of danger—a point at which the grip of technological thinking has all but squeezed out access to the poetic and the mystical—will have the effect of thrusting this saving power to the fore. This is the good news. The bad news is that:
philosophy will not be able to effect an immediate transformation of the present condition of the world. This is not only true of philosophy, but of all merely human thought and endeavor. Only a god can save us. The sole possibility that is left for us is to prepare a sort of readiness, through thinking and poetizing, for the appearance of the god or for the absence of the god in the time of foundering [Untergang]; for in the face of the god who is absent, we founder. (Only a God can Save Us 107)
That is what it means to await the divinities as divinities.
Heidegger sometimes uses the term ‘god’ to mean the secularized notion of the sacred already indicated, such that to embrace a god would be to maintain due sensitivity to the thought that beings are granted to us in the essential unfolding of Being. When, in the Contributions, Heidegger writes of the last or ultimate god of the other beginning (where ‘other’ is in relation to the ‘first beginning’ of Western thought in ancient Greece—the beginning of metaphysics), it often seems to be this secularized sacredness that he has in mind (cf. Thomson 2003; see Crownfield 2001for an alternative reading of the last god that maintains a more robust theological dimension, although one which is concrete and historicized). However, Heidegger sometimes seems to use the term ‘god’ or ‘divinity’ to refer to a heroic figure (a cultural template) who may initiate (or help to initiate) a transformational event in the history of Being by opening up an alternative clearing (for this interpretation, see e.g., Young 2002, 98). These heroic figures are the grounders of the abyss, the restorers of sacredness (Contributions 2: 6, see Sallis 2001 for analysis and discussion). It might even be consistent with Heidegger's view to relax the requirement that the divine catalyst must be an individual being, and thus to conceive of certain transformational cultural events or forces themselves as divinities (Dreyfus 2003). In any case, Heidegger argues that, in the present crisis, we are waiting for a god who will reawaken us to the poetic, and thereby enable us to dwell in the fourfold. This task certainly seems to be a noble one. Unfortunately, however, it plunges us into the murkiest and most controversial region of the Heideggerian intellectual landscape, his infamous involvement with Nazism.
Here is not the place to enter into the historical debate over exactly what Heidegger did and when he did it. However, given his deliberate, albeit arguably short-lived, integration of Nazi ideology with the philosophy of Being (see above), a few all-too-brief comments on the relationship between Heidegger's politics and his philosophical thought are necessary. (For more detailed evidence and discussion, as well as a range of positions on how we should interpret and respond to this relationship, see e.g., Farias 1989; Neske and Kettering 1990; Ott 1993; Pattison 2000; Polt 1999; Rockmore 1992; Sluga, 1993; Wolin 1990, 1993; Young 1997). There is no doubt that Heidegger's Nazi sympathies, however long they lasted, have a more intimate relationship with his philosophical thought than might be suggested by apologist claims that he was a victim of his time (in 1933, lots of intelligent people backed Hitler without thereby supporting the Holocaust that was to come) or that what we have here is ‘merely’ a case of bad political judgment, deserving of censure but with no implications for the essentially independent philosophical programme. Why does the explanation run deeper? The answer is that Heidegger believed (indeed continued to believe until he died) that the German people were destined to carry out a monumental spiritual mission. That mission was nothing less than to be at the helm of the aforementioned transformation of Being in the West, from one of instrumental technology to one of poetic dwelling. In mounting this transformation the German people would be acting not imperialistically, but for all nations in the encounter with modern technology. Of course destining is not a fate that compels, so some divine catalyst would be needed to awake the German nation to its historic mission, a catalyst provided by the spiritual leaders of the Nazi Party.
Why did Heidegger believe that the German people enjoyed this position of world-historical significance? In the later writings Heidegger argues explicitly that “[t]hinking itself can be transformed only by a thinking which has the same origin and calling”, so the technological mode of Being must be transcended through a new appropriation of the European tradition. Within this process the German people have a special place, because of the “inner relationship of the German language with the language of the Greeks and with their thought”. (Quotations from Only a God can Save Us 113.) Thus it is the German language that links the German people in a privileged way to, as Heidegger sees it, the genesis of European thought and to a pre-technological world-view in which bringing-forth as poiesis is dominant. This illustrates the general point that, for Heidegger, Being is intimately related to language. Language is, as he famously put it in the Letter on Humanism (217), the “house of Being”. So it is via language that Being is linked to particular peoples.
Even if Heidegger had some sort of argument for the world-historical destiny of the German people, why on earth did he believe that the Nazi Party, of all things, harboured the divine catalyst? Part of the reason seems to have been the seductive effect of a resonance that exists between (a) Heidegger's understanding of traditional German rural life as realizing values and meanings that may counteract the insidious effects of contemporary technology, and (b) the Nazi image of rustic German communities, rooted in German soil, providing a bulwark against foreign contamination. Heidegger certainly exploits this resonance in his pro-Nazi writings. That said there is an important point of disagreement here, one that Heidegger himself drew out. And once again the role of language in Being is at the heart of the issue. Heidegger steadfastly refused to countenance any biologistic underpinning to his views. In 1945 he wrote that, in his 1934 lectures on logic, he “sought to show that language was not the biological-racial essence of man, but conversely, that the essence of man was based on language as a basic reality of spirit” (Letter to the Rector of Freiburg University, November 4, 1945, 64). In words that we have just met, it is language and not biology that, for Heidegger, constitutes the house of Being. So the German Volk are a linguistic-historical, rather than a biological, phenomenon, which explains why Heidegger officially rejected one of the keystones of Nazism, namely its biologically grounded racism. Perhaps Heidegger deserves some credit here, although regrettably the aforementioned lectures on logic also contain evidence of a kind of historically driven ‘racism’. Heidegger suggests that while Africans (along with plants and animals) have no history (in a technical sense understood in terms of heritage), the event of an airplane carrying Hitler to Mussolini is genuinely part of history (see Polt 1999, 155).
Heidegger was soon disappointed by his ‘divinities’. In a 1935 lecture he remarks that the
works that are being peddled (about) nowadays as the philosophy of National Socialism, but have nothing whatever to do with the inner truth and greatness of this movement (namely, the encounter between global technology and contemporary man), have all been written by men fishing the troubled waters of values and totalities. (An Introduction to Metaphysics 166)
So Heidegger came to believe that the spiritual leaders of the Nazi party were false gods. They were ultimately agents of technological thought and thus incapable of completing the historic mission of the German people to transcend global technology. Nonetheless, one way of hearing the 1935 remark is that Heidegger continued to believe in the existence of, and the philosophical motivation for, that mission, a view that Rockmore (1992, 123–4) calls “an ideal form of Nazism”. This interpretation has some force. But perhaps we can at least make room for the thought that Heidegger's repudiation of Nazism goes further than talk of an ideal Nazism allows. For example, responding to the fact that Heidegger drew a parallel between modern agriculture (as a motorized food-industry) and “the manufacturing of corpses in gas chambers and extermination camps”, Young (1997) argues that this would count as a devaluing of the Holocaust only on a superficial reading. According to Young, Heidegger's point is that both modern agriculture and the Final Solution are workings-out of the technological mode of Being, which does not entail that they should be treated as morally equivalent. (Heidegger draws the parallel in a lecture called The Enframing given in 1949. The quotation is taken from Young 1997, 172. For further discussion, see Pattison 2000).
Heidegger's involvement with Nazism casts a shadow over his life. Whether, and if so to what extent, it casts a more concentrated shadow over at least some of his philosophical work is a more difficult issue. It would be irresponsible to ignore the relationship between Heidegger's philosophy and his politics. But it is surely possible to be critically engaged in a deep and intellectually stimulating way with his sustained investigation into Being, to find much of value in his capacity to think deeply about human life, to struggle fruitfully with what he says about our loss of dwelling, and to appreciate his massive and still unfolding contribution to thought and to thinking, without looking for evidence of Nazism in every twist and turn of the philosophical path he lays down.
- The Gesamtausgabe (Heidegger's collected works in German) are published by Vittorio Klostermann. The process of publication started during Heidegger's lifetime but has not yet been completed. The publication details are available at the Gesamtausgabe Plan page.
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[NB: Page numbers in the article refer to the Macquarrie and Robinson translation. A more recent translation of Being and Time exists: Being and Time, translated by J. Stambaugh. Albany, New York: State University of New York Press, 1996. The Stambaugh translation has many virtues, and is certainly more user-friendly for the Heidegger-novice, but it is arguable that the Macquarrie and Robinson translation remains the first choice of most Heidegger scholars.]
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A few passages in section 2 of this entry have been adapted from material that appears in chapters 5–7 of my Reconstructing the Cognitive World: the Next Step (Wheeler 2005). The suggestion (in 2.1) of reading the neologisms of Being and Time as an attempt to reanimate the German language is from Andrea Rehberg. Many thanks to Andrea Rehberg, Peter Sullivan and Søren Overgaard for their helpful comments on an earlier draft. Any inaccuracies or unproductive interpretations that remain are, of course, entirely my responsibility.