Supplement to Moral Anti-Realism
Moral Anti-realism vs. Realism: Explanatory Power
It is widely accepted that so long as a metaethical theory is coherent and not ontologically profligate, its value is to be measured by its ability to explain a certain range of phenomena. (Some will accept a modest increase in ontological extravagance in return for proportionally greater explanatory strength.) This range is ill-defined and open-ended, but is typically taken to consist of such things as the manifest features of moral language, the importance of morality in our lives, moral practices and institutions, the way moral considerations engage motivation, the character of moral disagreement, and the acquisition of moral attitudes. In practice, however, there remains dispute concerning what the phenomena are that a metaethical theory should be expected to explain. Even when some such phenomenon is roughly agreed upon, there is significant divergence over its exact nature. For example, pretty much everyone agrees that any decent metaethical theory should be able to explain the close connection between moral judgment and motivation—but it is a live question whether that connection should be construed as a necessary one, or whether a reliably contingent connection will suffice. (See Svavardóttir 1999.) Even when such disputes can be settled, there remains plenty of room for arguing over whether a given theory does indeed adequately explain the phenomenon. For example, it is often taken for granted that noncognitivism is well placed to account for the (putative) necessary connection between moral judgment and motivation, but arguably this is not true (Joyce 2002). Given this level of open-endedness and disagreement about the match between any given metaethical theory and the range of phenomena it is supposed to explain, a great deal of the work in metaethics can be interpreted as rival theories jockeying to shift explanatory burdens of proof onto opponents.
On certain matters relevant to the moral realist/anti-realist debate, it would seem that some such challenges are accepted by both parties. Consider, for example, moral language. Moral predicates appear to function linguistically like any other predicate: Just as the sentence “The cat is brown” may be used as an antecedent of a conditional, as a premise of an argument, as the basis of a question (“Is the cat brown?”), have its predicate nominalized (“Brownness is had by the cat”), be embedded in a propositional attitude claim (“Mary believes that the cat is brown”), and have the truth predicate applied to it (“‘The cat is brown’ is true”)—so too can all these things be done, without obvious incoherence, with a moral sentence like “Stealing is wrong.” For the moral cognitivist—who argues that moral predicates are no different, logically or grammatically, from any other common-or-garden predicates—there is no puzzle here. But the moral noncognitivist who argues that moral predicates function differently from ordinary predicates—that they are not logically predicates at all—appears to face a special challenge. The noncognitivist often acknowledges this, accepting that on this matter she does indeed bear a burden of proof. (Note, though, that this doesn't imply that the moral realist as such enjoys a prima facie dialectical advantage, for the error theorist and the non-objectivist would gain the same advantage over the noncognitivist.)
However, if this noncognitivist can demonstrate that regarding other phenomena it is the cognitivist who faces the special challenge, then, ceteris paribus, matters are less clear. The noncognitivist C.L. Stevenson, for example, sought to draw attention to unusual features of moral disagreement, marking it as distinct from disagreement about factual matters (1944, 1963 essays 1 & 2). The intractability and bitterness of many moral disputes, in Stevenson's opinion, speak in favor of the proposition that such disputes involve the clash of emotions, and that the utterances therein function to express the speaker's own emotion while serving her desire to influence those of the audience. This is, in effect, a burden of proof argument against the cognitivist: observing a phenomenon (that moral disputes are emotive, rhetorical, obstinate, etc.) the explanation of which poses no problem for a certain brand of noncognitivism, but for which the cognitivist has to work to provide.
There is little to be gained by keeping a tally of such arguments and counter-arguments in the hope of determining who overall bears the greater burden of proof, for there is no reason to assume that the explanations of the phenomena are all on a par. Theory X may explain a greater number of phenomena than Y (to the extent that such things can be numerically distinguished), but perhaps the phenomena that Y does the better job of explaining are more important, pressing, or valuable.
Stepping back from the moral cognitivist/noncognitivist debate to the more general moral realist/anti-realist debate, can we detect a pattern in the dialectic indicating that burden of proof exercises of this kind generally favor one side over the other? It is doubtful that an impartial observer would discern one. Although there is a widespread assumption in the metaethical literature that moral realism enjoys a prima facie advantage, the assumed advantage lies largely in the realm of intuition (the topic of supplement 2.1); but if the goal is not to vindicate intuition, but rather to provide the best explanation of a range of observable moral phenomena (which may include facts about what intuitions people hold), then the realist's advantage is much less obvious.
The question of whether moral realism enjoys an explanatory advantage over anti-realism is in part a question of whether objective moral facts are needed to explain anything. A relevant debate in modern metaethics is that between Gilbert Harman (1977, 1986) and Nicholas Sturgeon (1985, 1986). Harman raises the possibility that there exists no phenomenon for which an appeal to moral facts is a necessary element of the best explanation. Sturgeon denies this, citing such phenomena as Hitler's actions (in part explained by his depravity) and a political revolution (explained in part by the injustices perpetrated by the overthrown regime).
The Harman/Sturgeon debate is complex and widely misunderstood. (See Tropman 2013.) Harman's ultimate position is not that there are no moral facts; indeed, he explicitly asserts “there is empirical evidence that there are (relational) moral facts” (1977: 132). His intention is to issue a challenge: that those who believe in moral facts owe skeptics a plausible account of how the moral facts that are cited in realist explanations (e.g., concerning depravity and injustice) relate to those non-moral facts that seem otherwise adequate to explain any phenomena. This account must also clarify how we enjoy epistemic access to these moral facts and why they seem of such practical importance to us. Harman suspects that such an account (which he calls a “ reduction”) may in fact be forthcoming (see his 1986: 65), but the point relevant to our current purposes is his contention that the believer in moral facts has extra work to do in order to establish her position; thus this may be interpreted as an attempt establish a burden of proof.
Note, however, that the debate between Harman and Sturgeon concerns the existence of moral facts, not the existence of mind-independent moral facts. Thus it is possible to side with Sturgeon in this debate while rejecting moral realism. This is what non-objectivists do. (Harman himself falls into this category.) Thus, although Harman's challenge can be seen as an attempt to place the burden of proof on the shoulders of those who believe in moral facts, it is not to be mistaken for an attempt to place that burden on the moral realist as such. Even if Harman succeeds in establishing this burden of proof case, the moral realist will suffer no particular handicap vis-à-vis the moral non-objectivist.
But further arguments might be brought forward to show that the moral realist starts off on the back foot. Why, after all, might one think (like Harman) that there is something especially difficult about showing how moral facts relate to the non-moral items that figure in good explanations of observable phenomena? Broadly speaking, it is because moral facts are assumed to have qualities that it is prima facie challenging to integrate into the naturalistic causal world order. Mackie thinks that moral normativity is characterized by a kind of “objective prescriptivity”—which he describes as the property of providing agents with practical reasons independent of the agent's desires or purposes (1982: 115; see also Joyce 2001; Olson 2014)—and because he doubts that anything has this property, he doubts that moral normativity exists (see section 4 of main entry and supplement thereof). Harman agrees that the normativity in question must involve the provision of practical reasons (1977: ch. 10-11), but, unlike Mackie, he is willing to countenance the identification of moral facts with reasons that have their source in the agent's “aims and goals” (1977: 133)—i.e., that are “subjective” reasons. As to the possibility of “objective” reasons—ones that do not ultimately depend on an agent's ends—(a view that both Harman and Mackie attribute to Kant), Harman is doubtful. Thus, he thinks that when it comes to moral theories that identify moral facts with reason facts, the moral non-objectivist has a distinct advantage over the moral objectivist. He writes: “The burden of proof is on Kant to show how reason could have the powers he attributes to it [i.e., of issuing reasons (moral imperatives) derived from the intrinsic nature of reason alone]; and so far neither Kant nor anyone else has been able to show this” (1977: 133). (For more on “objective reasons,” see Korsgaard 1986, 1996; Markovitz 2010; Heuer 2010.)
To clarify: One can locate two places in Harman's argument where burden-of-proof matters arise. First, he thinks that the believer in moral facts bears a special burden: Given the apparent possibility that any phenomenon may be satisfactorily explained without recourse to an appeal to moral facts, the onus is on the believer in such facts to clarify persuasively how they fit into the causal world order. This is a burden that Harman thinks can probably be discharged. (The amount of confidence he expresses in this possibility seems to fluctuate.) The account of moral facts that he finds most promising is one that identifies moral facts with reason facts. However, whereas a theory of reasons that conceives of them as depending centrally on the agent's interests seems to Harman to be both empirical and “not particularly problematic” (1977: 131), a theory of reasons that supposes them to be entirely independent of any agent's interests—that is, potentially a form of moral realism—is prima facie puzzling, and thus owes its opponents a detailed defense. Harman makes clear his doubt that this second burden of proof can be discharged.
But does the realist accept this burden? (As noted earlier, the mere assertion that one's opponent bears a burden of proof is cheap; we're interested in the situation where one side in the debate willingly shoulders the burden.) Not necessarily. It is open to the moral realist to complain that both Harman and Mackie have lumbered morality with unnecessarily weird qualities, and it is because they do this that the problem of how moral normativity fits within the naturalistic world order seems so prima facie puzzling. (See, for example, Tresan 2009 and Baeten 2012 for this form of argument deployed against Joyce's error theoretic argument.) A certain kind of utilitarian moral realist, for example, simply identifies moral rightness with the property of maximizing overall happiness, and may then claim that there's nothing particularly metaphysically or epistemologically puzzling about that property. The burden then falls back to the anti-realist to say what is inadequate about the utilitarian's offering. Or a moral realist may pursue a “partners in innocence” strategy: drawing attention to other kinds of seemingly “objective normativity”—e.g., epistemological normativity or logical normativity—observing that few harbor skeptical doubts about there being facts concerning, say, what one ought to believe (given other beliefs) or what one ought to deduce (given certain premises). (See Cuneo 2007; Bedke 2010.) Again, the intention is to push the burden back on the moral anti-realist to articulate a reasoned distinction between the objective moral facts, which are deemed problematic, and the other kinds of objective normative facts, which supposedly are not.