#### Supplement to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

## Proof of VC2

Let *S*_{x}, *S*_{y},
*S*_{z} be the usual angular momentum operators
satisfying [*S*_{x}, *S*_{y}] =
*i* *S*_{z}, and define *S*^{2}
:= *S*_{x}^{2} +
*S*_{y}^{2} +
*S*_{z}^{2}. It can be shown that the
eigenvalues of *S*^{2} are s(s + 1) where s is an integer or
half-integer.

Now let *s*=1. Then it follows (see e.g. Kochen and Specker 1967: 308,
Redhead 1987: 37-38) that *S*_{x}^{2},
*S*_{y}^{2},
*S*_{z}^{2} are all mutually commuting and
that:

S_{x}^{2}+S_{y}^{2}+S_{z}^{2}= 2I,

where *I* is the identity operator. Now, from KS2 (a) (Sum Rule):

v(S_{x}^{2}) +v(S_{y}^{2}) +v(S_{z}^{2}) = 2v(I)

Now, assume an observable *R* such that *v*(*R*)
≠ 0 in state
|ψ>. From this
assumption and KS2 (b) (Product Rule):

v(R) =v(IR) =v(I)v(R)⇒ v(I) = 1

Hence:

(VC2)v(S_{x}^{2}) +v(S_{y}^{2}) +v(S_{z}^{2}) = 2

where *v*(*S*_{i}^{2}) = 1 or 0, for
*i* = *x*, *y*, *z*.