# Substructural Logics

*First published Tue Jul 4, 2000; substantive revision Wed Jan 16, 2008*

*Substructural logics* are non-classical logics *weaker*
than classical logic, notable for the absence of *structural
rules* present in classical logic. These logics are motivated by
considerations from philosophy (relevant logics), linguistics (the
Lambek calculus) and computing (linear logic). In addition, techniques
from substructural logics are useful in the study of traditional
logics such as classical and intuitionistic logic. This article
provides a brief overview of the field of substructural logic. For a
more detailed introduction, complete with theorems, proofs and
examples, the reader can consult the books and articles in the
Bibliography.

- Residuation
- Logics in the Family
- Proof Systems
- Semantics
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## Residuation

Logic is about *logical consequence*. As a result, the
*conditional* is a central notion in logic because of its
intimate connection with logical consequence. This connection is
neatly expressed in *residuation condition*:

p,q⊢rif and only ifp⊢q→r

It says that *r* follows from *p* together with
*q* just when *q* → *r* follows
from *p* alone. The validity of the transition from *q*
to *r* (given *p*) is recorded by the conditional
*q* → *r*.

This connection between the conditional and consequence is called
*residuation* by analogy with the case in mathematics. Consider
the connection between addition and substraction. *a* +
*b* = *c* if and only if *a* =
*c* − *b*. The resulting *a*
(which is *c* − *b*) is the
*residual*, what is left of *c* when *b* is taken
away. Another name for this connection is the *deduction
theorem*.

However, there the connection between consequence and the
conditional contains one extra factor. Not only is there the turnstile,
for logical consequence, and the conditional, encoding consequence
inside the language of propositions, there is also the *comma*,
indicating the *combination* of premises. We have read
“*p*, *q*
⊢
*r*” as “*r* follows from *p*
*together with* *q*”. To combine premises is to
have a way to take them *together*. But how can we take them
together? It turns out that there are different ways to do so, and so,
different substructural logics. The behaviour of premise combination
varies as the behaviour of the conditional varies. In this introduction
we will consider some examples of this.

### Weakening

It is one thing for *p* to be true. It is another for the
conditional *q* → *p* to be true. Yet, if
‘→’ is a material conditional, *q* →
*p* follows from *p*. For many different reasons, we may
wish to understand how a conditional might work in the *absence*
of this inference. This is tied to the behaviour of premise
combination, as can be shown by this demonstration.

p⊢p

----------

p,q⊢p

-------------

p⊢q→p

From the axiomatic *p*
⊢
*p* (anything follows from *itself*) we deduce that
*p* follows from *p* together with *q*, and then
by residuation, *p*
⊢
*q* → *p*. If we wish to reject the inference from
*p* to *q* → *p*, then we either reject
residuation, or reject the identity axiom at the start of the proof, or
we reject the first step of the proof. It is illuminating to consider
what is involved in this last option. Here, we are to deny that
*p* follows from *p*, *q*. In general, we are to
reject the inference rule that has this form:

X⊢A

----------

X,Y⊢A

This is called the rule of *weakening*. The rule steps from a
stronger statement, that *A* follows from *X* to a
possibly weaker one, that *A* follows from *X* together
with *Y*.

People have offered different reasons for rejecting the rule of
weakening, depending on the interpretation of consequence and premise
combination. One of the early motivating examples comes from a concern
for relevance. If the logic is *relevant* (if to say that
*p* entails *q* is true is to say, at least, that
*q* truly *depends* on *p*) then the comma need
not not satisfy weakening. We may indeed have *A* following
from *X*, without *A* following from
*X*,*Y*, for it need not be the case that *A*
depends on *X* and *Y* together.

In relevant logics the rule of weakening fails on the *other*
side too, in that we wish *this* argument to be invalid too:

q⊢q

----------

p,q⊢q

-------------

p⊢q→q

Again, *q* may follow from *q*, but this does not mean
that it follows from *p* *together with* *q*,
provided that “together with” is meant in an appropriately
strong sense. So, in relevant logics, the inference from an arbitrary
premise to a logical truth such as *q* → *q* may
well fail.

### Commutativity

If the mode of premise combination is commutative (if anything which
follows from *X*, *Y* also follows from *Y*,
*X*) then we can reason as follows, using just the identity
axiom and residuation:

p→q⊢p→q

---------------------

p→q,p⊢q

-------------------

p,p→q⊢q

---------------------

p⊢ (p→q) →q

In the absence of commutativity of premise combination, this proof is not available. This is another simple example of the connection between the behaviour of premise combination and that of deductions involving the conditional.

There are many kinds of conditional for which this inference fails.
If “→” has *modal* force (if it expresses a
kind of entailment, in which *p* → *q* is true when
in every related circumstance in which *p* holds, *q*
does too), and if
“⊢”
expresses local consequence
(*p*⊢*q*
if and only if any model, at any circumstance at which *p*
holds, so does *q*) it fails. It may be true that Greg is a
logician (*p*) and it is true that Greg’s being a
logician entails Greg’s being a philosopher (*p* →
*q* – in related circunstances in which Greg is a
logician, he is a philosopher) but this does not *entail* that
Greg is a philosopher. (There are many circumstances in which the
entailment (*p* → *q*) is true but *q* is
not.) So we a circumstance in which *p* is true but (*p*
→ *q*) → *q* is not. The argument is
invalid.

This counterexample can also be understood in terms of behaviour of
premise combination. Here when we say *X*,*A*
⊢
*B* is true, we are not just saying that *B*
holds in any circumstance in which *X* and *A* both hold.
If we are after a genuine *entailment* *A → B*, then
we want *B* to be true in any (related) circumstance in which
*A* is true. So, *X*,*A*
⊢
*B* says that in *any* possibility in which *A* is
true, so is *B*. These possibilities might not satisfy all of
*X*. (In classical theories of entailment, the possibilities are
those in which all that is taken as *necessary* in *X*
are true.)

If premise combination is not commutative, then residuation can go
in *two* ways. In addition to the residuation condition giving
the behaviour of →, we may wish to define a new arrow ← as
follows:

p,q⊢rif and only ifq⊢r←p

For the left-to-right arrow we have *modus ponens* in this
direction:

p→q,p⊢q

For the right-to-left arrow, *modus ponens* is provable with the
premises in the opposite order:

p,q←p⊢q

This is a characteristic of substructural logics. When we pay attention
to what happens when we don't have the full complement of structural
rules, then new possibilities open up. We uncover *two*
conditionals underneath what was previously one (in intuitionistic or
classical logic).

In the next section we will see another example motivating non-commutative premise combination and these two different conditionals.

### Associativity

Here is another way that structural rules influence proof. The associativity of premise combination provides the following proof:

p→q,p⊢qr→p,r⊢p

-------------------------------------

p→q, (r→p,r) ⊢q

-----------------------------

(p→q,r→p),r⊢q

----------------------------

p→q,r→p⊢r→q

-----------------------------------

p→q⊢ (r→p) → (r→q)

This proof uses the *cut* rule at the topmost step. The idea is
that inferences can be combined. If *X*
⊢
*A* and *Y*(*A*)
⊢
*B* (where
*Y*(*A*) is a structure of premises possibly including
*A* one or more times) then *Y*(*X*)
⊢
*B* too (where
*Y*(*X*) is that structure of premises with those
instances of *A* replaced by *X*). In this proof, we
replace the *p* in
*p* → *q*, *p* ⊢ *q*
by
*r* → *p*, *r* on the basis of
the validity of
*r* → *p*, *r* ⊢ *p*.

### Contraction

A final important example is the rule of *contraction* which
dictates how premises may be reused. Contraction is crucial in the
inference of *p* → *q* from *p* →
(*p* → *q*)

p→ (p→q) ⊢p→ (p→q)p→q⊢p→q

------------------------------------- -----------------------

p→ (p→q),p⊢p→qp→q,p⊢q

------------------------------------------------

(p→ (p→q),p),p⊢q

--------------------------

p→ (p→q),p⊢q

-----------------------

p→ (p→q) ⊢p→q

These different examples give you a taste of what can be done by structural rules. Not only do structural rules influence the conditional, but they also have their effects on other connectives, such as conjunction and disjunction (as we shall see below) and negation (Dunn 1993; Restall 2000).

### Structure on the right of the turnstile

Since the introduction of Gentzen’s sequent calculus (Gentzen
1935), we have known that the difference between *classical*
logic and *intuitionistic* logic can also be understood as a
difference of structural rules. Instead of considering sequents of the
form *X*
⊢
*A*, in
which we have a collection of antecedents and a single consequent, for
classical logic it is fruitful to consider sequents of the form

X⊢Y

where both *X* and *Y* are collections of statements. The
intended interpretation is that from *all* of the *X* it
follows that *some* of the *Y*. In other words, we cannot
have all of the *X* and none of the *Y* obtaining.

Allowing sequents with multiple consequents and translating the rules into this expanded context, we are able to derive classical tautologies. For example, the derivation

p⊢p

-----------

p⊢q,p

---------------

⊢p→q,p

shows that either *p* → *q* or *p* must hold.
This is classically valid (if *p* fails, *p* is
*false*, and conditionals with false antecedents are true), but
invalid in intuitionistic logic. The difference between classical and
intuitionistic logic, then, can be understood formally as a difference
between the kinds of structural rules permitted, and the kinds of
structures appropriate to use in the analysis of logical consequence.

## Logics in the Family

There are many different formal systems in the family of substructural logics. These logics can be motivated in different ways.

### Relevant Logics

Many people have wanted to give an account of logical validity which
pays some attention to conditions of *relevance*. If
*X*,*A*
⊢
*B* holds,
then *X* must somehow be *relevant* to *A*.
Premise combination is restricted in the following way. We may have
*X*
⊢
*A* without
also having *X*,*Y*
⊢
*A* . The new material *Y* might not be relevant to the
deduction. In the 1950s, Moh (1950), Church (1951) and Ackermann (1956)
all gave accounts of what a ‘relevant’ logic could be. The
ideas have been developed by a stream of workers centred around
Anderson and Belnap, their students Dunn and Meyer, and many others.
The canonical references for the area are Anderson, Belnap and
Dunn’s two-volume *Entailment* (1975 and 1992). Other
introductions can be found in Read’s *Relevant Logic*,
Dunn and Restall’s “Relevance Logic” (2002), and
Mares’ *Relevant Logic*: *a philosophical
interpretation* (2004).

### Resource Consciousness

This is not the only way to restrict premise combination. Girard (1987)
introduced *linear logic* as a model for processes and resource
use. The idea in this account of deduction is that resources must be
used (so premise combination satisfies the relevance criterion) and
they do not extend *indefinitely*. Premises cannot be
*re*-used. So, I might have *X*,*X*
⊢
*A*, which says that I can use *X* twice
to get *A*. I might not have *X*
⊢
*A*, which says that I can use *X* once
alone to get *A*. A helpful introduction to linear logic is
given in Troelstra’s *Lectures on Linear Logic* (1992).
There are other formal logics in which the *contraction rule*
(from *X*,*X*
⊢
*A* to
*X*
⊢
*A*) is absent.
Most famous among these are Łukasiewicz’s many-valued
logics. There has been a sustained interest in logics without this rule
because of Curry's paradox (Curry 1977, Geach 1995; see also
Restall 1994 in Other Internet Resources).

### Order

Independently of either of these traditions, Joachim Lambek considered
mathematical models of language and syntax (Lambek 1958, 1961). The
idea here is that premise combination corresponds to composition of
strings or other linguistic units. Here *X*,*X* differs
in content from *X*, but in addition, *X*,*Y*
differs from *Y,X*. Not only does the *number* of
premises used count but so does their *order*. Good
introductions to the Lambek calculus (also called *categorial
grammar*) can be found in books by Moortgat (1988) and Morrill
(1994).

## Proof Systems

We have already seen a fragment of one way to present substructural
logics, in terms of proofs. We have used the residuation condition,
which can be understood as including two rules for the conditional, one
to *introduce* a conditional

X,A⊢B

----------------

X⊢A→B

and another to *eliminate* it.

X⊢A→BY⊢A

--------------------------

X,Y⊢B

Rules like these form the cornerstone of a natural deduction system,
and these systems are available for the wide sweep of substructural
logics. But proof theory can be done in other ways. *Gentzen*
systems operate not by introducing and eliminating connectives, but by
introducing them both on the left and the right of the turnstile of
logical consequence. We keep the introduction rule above, and replace
the elimination rule by one introducing the conditional on the left:

X⊢AY(B) ⊢C

--------------------------

Y(A→B,X) ⊢C

This rule is more complex, but it has the same effect as the arrow
elimination rule: It says that if *X* suffices for *A*,
and if you use *B* (in some context *Y*) to prove
*C* then you could just as well have used *A* →
*B* together with *X* (in that same context *Y*)
to prove *C*, since *A* → *B* together with
*X* gives you *B*.

Gentzen systems, with their introduction rules on the left and the
right, have very special properties which are useful in studying
logics. Since connectives are always *introduced* in a proof
(read from top to bottom) proofs never *lose* structure. If a
connective does not appear in the conclusion of a proof, it will not
appear in the proof at all, since connectives cannot be eliminated.

In certain substructural logics, such as linear logic and the Lambek
calculus, and in the fragment of the relevant logic **R**
without disjunction, a Gentzen system can be used to show that the
logic is *decidable*, in that an algorithm can be found to
determine whether or not an argument *X*
⊢
*A* is valid. This is done by searching for
proofs of *X*
⊢
*A*
in a Gentzen system. Since premises of this conclusion must feature no
language not in this conclusion, and they have no greater complexity
(in these systems), there are only a finite number of possible
premises. An algorithm can check if these satisfy the rules of the
system, and proceed to look for premises for these, or to quit if we
hit an axiom. In this way, decidability of some substructural logics is
assured.

However, not all substructural logics are decidable in this sense.
Most famously, the relevant logic **R** is not decidable.
This is partly because its proof theory is more complex than that of
other substructural logics. **R** differs from linear
logic and the Lambek calculus in having a straightforward treatment of
conjunction and disjunction. In particular, conjunction and disjunction
satisfy the rule of *distribution*:

p& (q∨r) ⊢ (p&q) ∨ (p&r)

The natural proof of distribution in any proof system uses both
weakening and contraction, so it is not available in the relevant logic
**R**, which does not contain weakening. As a result,
proof theories for **R** either contain distribution as a
primitive rule, or contain a second form of premise combination (so
called *extensional* combination, as opposed to the
*intensional* premise combination we have seen) which satisfies
weakening and contraction.

In recent years, a great deal of work has been done on the proof
theory of *classical logic*, inspired and informed by research
into substructural logics. Classical logic has the full complement of
structural rules, and is historically prior to more recent systems of
substructural logics. However, when it comes to attempting to
understand the deep structure of *classical* proof systems (and
in particular, when two derivations that differ in some superficial
syntactic way are *really* different ways to represent the one
underlying ‘proof’) it is enlightening to think of
classical logic as formed by a basic substructural logic, in which
extra structural rules are imposed as additions. In particular, it has
become clear that what distinguishes classical proof from its siblings
is the presence of the structural rules of contraction and weakening in
their complete generality (see, for example, Bellin *et al.*
2006 and the literature cited therein).

## Model Theory

While the relevant logic **R** has a proof system more
complex than the substructural logics such as linear logic, which lack
distribution of (extensional) conjunction over disjunction, its
*model theory* is altogether more simple. A Routley-Meyer
*model* for the relevant logic **R** is comprised
of a set of *points* *P* with a three-place relation
*R* on *P*. A conditional *A* → *B* is
evaluated at a world as follows:

A→Bis true atxif and only if for eachyandzwhereRxyz, ifAis true aty,Bis true atz.

An argument is *valid* in a model just when in any point at
which the premises are true, so is the conclusion. The argument
*A*
⊢
*B* →
*B* is invalid because we may have a point *x* at which
*A* is true, but at which *B* → *B* is not.
We can have *B* → *B* fail to be true at *x*
simply by having *Rxyz* where *B* is true at *y*
but not at *z*.

The three place relation *R* follows closely the behaviour of
the mode of premise combination in the proof theory for a substructural
logic. For different logics, different conditions can be placed on
*R*. For example, if premise combination is commutative, we
place a *symmetry* condition on *R* like this:
*Rxyz* if and only if *Ryxz*. Ternary relational
semantics gives us great facility to *model* the behaviour of
substructural logics. (The extent of the correspondence between the
proof theory and algebra of substructural logics and the semantics is
charted in Dunn’s work on *Gaggle Theory* (1991) and is
summarised in Restall’s *Introduction to Substructural
Logics* (2000).)

Furthermore, if conjunction and disjunction satisfy the distribution
axiom mentioned in the previous section, they can be modelled
straightforwardly too: a conjunction is true at a point just when both
conjuncts are true at that point, and a disjunction is true at a point
just when at least one disjunct is true there. For logics, such as
linear logic, *without* the distribution axiom, the semantics
must be more complex, with a different clause for disjunction required
to invalidate the inference of distribution.

It is one thing to use a semantics as a formal device to model a
logic. It is another to use a semantics as an *interpretive*
device to *apply* a logic. The literature on substructural
logics provides us with a number of different ways that the ternary
relational semantics can be applied to describe the logical structure
of some phenomena in which the traditional structural rules do not
apply.

For logics like the Lambek calculus, the interpretation of the
semantics is straightforward. We can take the points to be linguistic
items, and the ternary relation to be the relation of concatenation
(*Rxyz* if and only if *x* concatenated with *y*
results in *z*). In these models, the structural rules of
contraction, weakening and permutation all fail, but premise
combination is associative.

The contemporary literature on linguistic classification extends the basic Lambek Calculus with richer forms of combination, in which more syntactic features can be modelled (see Moortgat 1995).

Another application of these models is in the treatment of the
semantics of *function application*. We can think of the points
in a model structure as both *functions* and *data*, and
hold that *Rxyz* if and only if *x* (considered as a
function) applied to *y* (considered as data) is *z*.
Traditional accounts of functions do not encourage this dual use, since
functions are taken to be of a ‘higher’ than their inputs
or outputs (on the traditional set-theoretic model of functions, a
function *is* the set of its *input-output* pairs, and
so, it can never take *itself* as an input, since sets cannot
contain themselves as members). However, systems of functions modelled
by the untyped λ-calculus, for example, allow for
self-application. Given this reading of points in a model, a point is
of type *A* → *B* just if whenever it takes inputs
of type *A*, it takes outputs of type *B*. The inference
rules of this system are then principles governing types of functions:
the sequent

(A→B) & (A→C) ⊢A→ (B&C)

tells us that whenever a function takes *A*s to *B*s and
*A*s to *C*s, then it takes *A*s to things that
are both *B* and *C*.

This example gives us a model in which the appropriate substructural
logic is extremely weak. *None* of the usual structural rules
(not even associativity) are satisfied in this model. This example of a
ternary relational model is discussed in (Restall 2000, Chapter
11).

For the relevant logic **R** and its interpretation of
natural language conditionals, more work must be done in identifying
what features of reality the formal semantics models. This has been a
matter of some controversy, since not only is the ternary relation
unfamiliar to those whose exposure is primarily to modal logics with a
simpler *binary* accessibility relation between possible worlds,
but also because of the novelty of the treatment of *negation*
in models for relevant logics. It is not our place to discuss this
debate in much detail here, Some of this work is reported in the
article on
relevant logic
in this
Encyclopedia, and a book-length treatment of relevant logic in this
light is Mares’ *Relevant Logic*: *a philosophical
interpretation* (2004).

## Bibliography

A comprehensive bibliography on relevant logic was put together by Robert Wolff and can be found in Anderson, Belnap and Dunn 1992. The bibliography in Restall 2000 (see Other Internet Resources) is not as comprehensive as Wolff’s, but it does include material up to the present day.

### Books on Substructural Logic and Introductions to the Field

- Anderson, A.R., and Belnap, N.D., 1975,
*Entailment: The Logic of Relevance and Necessity*, Princeton, Princeton University Press, Volume I. - Anderson, A.R., Belnap, N.D. Jr., and Dunn, J.M., 1992,
*Entailment*, Volume II, Princeton, Princeton University Press

[This book and the previous one summarise the work in relevant logic in the Anderson–Belnap tradition. Some chapters in these books have other authors, such as Robert K. Meyer and Alasdair Urquhart.] - Dunn, J. M. and Restall, G., 2000, “Relevance Logic” in
F. Guenthner and D. Gabbay (eds.),
*Handbook of Philosophical Logic*second edition; Volume 6, Kluwer, pp 1–136.

[A summary of work in relevant logic in the Anderson–Belnap tradition.] - Mares, Edwin D., 2004,
*Relevant Logic*:*a philosophical interpretation*Cambridge University Press.

[An introduction to relevant logic, proposing an information theoretic understanding of the ternary relational semantics.] - Moortgat, Michael, 1988,
*Categorial Investigations: Logical Aspects of the Lambek Calculus*Foris, Dordrecht.

[Another introduction to the Lambek calculus.] - Morrill, Glyn, 1994,
*Type Logical Grammar: Categorial Logic of Signs*Kluwer, Dordrecht

[An introduction to the Lambek calculus.] - Paoli, Francesco, 2002,
*Substructural Logics*:*a primer*Kluwer, Dordrecht

[A general introduction to substructural logics.] - Read, S., 1988,
*Relevant Logic*, Oxford: Blackwell.

[An introduction to relevant logic motivated by considerations in the theory of meaning. Develops a Lemmon-style proof theory for the relevant logic**R**.] - Restall, Greg, 2000,
*An Introduction to Substructural Logics*, Routledge. (online précis)

[A general introduction to the field of substructural logics.] - Routley, R., Meyer, R.K., Plumwood, V., and Brady, R., 1983,
*Relevant Logics and their Rivals*, Volume I, Atascardero, CA: Ridgeview.

[Another distinctive account of relevant logic, this time from an Australian philosophical perspective.] - Schroeder-Heister, Peter, and Došen, Kosta, (eds), 1993,
*Substructural Logics*, Oxford University Press.

[An edited collection of essays on different topics in substructural logics, from different traditions in the field.] - Troestra, Anne, 1992,
*Lectures on Linear Logic*, CSLI Publications

[A quick, easy-to-read introduction to Girard’s linear logic.]

### Other Works Cited

- Ackermann, Wilhelm, 1956, “Begründung Einer Strengen
Implikation,”
*Journal of Symbolic Logic***21**113-128. - Gianluigi Bellin, Martin Hyland, Edmund Robinson, and Christian
Urban, 2006, “Categorical proof theory of classical propositional
calculus,”
*Theoretical Computer Science***364**146–165. - Church, Alonzo, 1951, “The Weak Theory of Implication,”
in
*Kontroliertes Denken: Untersuchungen zum Logikkalkül und zur Logik der Einzelwissenschaften*, Kommissions-Verlag Karl Alber, edited by A. Menne, A. Wilhelmy and H. Angsil, 22-37. - Curry, Haskell B., 1977,
*Foundations of Mathematical Logic*, Dover (originally published in 1963). - Dunn, J.M., 1991, “Gaggle Theory: An Abstraction of Galois
Connections and Residuation with Applications to Negation and Various
Logical Operations,” in
*Logics in AI, Proceedings European Workshop JELIA 1990*, Lecture notes in Computer Science, volume**476**Springer-Verlag. - Dunn, J.M., 1993, “Star and Perp,”
*Philosophical Perspectives***7**331-357. - Geach, P. T., 1955, “On Insolubilia,”
*Analysis***15**71-72. - Gentzen, Gerhard, 1935, “Untersuchungen über das
logische Schließen,” Mathematische Zeitschrift,
**39**176-210 and 405-431. [An English translation is found in Gentzen 1969.] - Gentzen, Gerhard, 1969,
*The Collected Papers of Gerhard Gentzen*, edited by M. E. Szabo, North Holland, 1969. - Girard, Jean-Yves, 1987, “Linear Logic,”
*Theoretical Computer Science***50**1-101. - Lambek, Joachim, 1958, “The Mathematics of Sentence
Structure,”
*American Mathematical Monthly***65**154-170. - Lambek, Joachim, 1961, “On the Calculus of Syntactic Types,
” in
*Structure of Language and its Mathematical Aspects*, edited by R. Jakobson, (Proceedings of Symposia in Applied Mathematics, XII). - Moh Shaw-Kwei, 1950, “The Deduction Theorems and Two New
Logical Systems,”
*Methodos***2**56-75. - Moortgat, Michael, 1995, “Multimodal Linguistic
Inference,”
*Logic Journal of the IGPL*,**3**371–401.

## Other Internet Resources

- BibTeX Bibliography on Substructural Logic, by Greg Restall (from Restall 2000).
- Restall, Greg, 1994,
*On Logics Without Contraction*, Ph. D. Thesis, The University of Queensland. - Slaney, John, 1995, MaGIC: Matrix Generator for Implication Connectives, a software package for generating finite models for substructural logics.