# Philosophy of Mathematics

*First published Tue Sep 25, 2007*

If mathematics is regarded as a science, then the philosophy of mathematics can be regarded as a branch of the philosophy of science, next to disciplines such as the philosophy of physics and the philosophy of biology. However, because of its subject matter, the philosophy of mathematics occupies a special place in the philosophy of science. Whereas the natural sciences investigate entities that are located in space and time, it is not at all obvious that this is also the case with respect to the objects that are studied in mathematics. In addition to that, the methods of investigation of mathematics differ markedly from the methods of investigation in the natural sciences. Whereas the latter acquire general knowledge using inductive methods, mathematical knowledge appears to be acquired in a different way, namely, by deduction from basic principles. The status of mathematical knowledge also appears to differ from the status of knowledge in the natural sciences. The theories of the natural sciences appear to be less certain and more open to revision than mathematical theories. For these reasons mathematics poses problems of a quite distinctive kind for philosophy. Therefore philosophers have accorded special attention to ontological and epistemological questions concerning mathematics.

- 1. Philosophy of Mathematics, Logic, and the Foundations of Mathematics
- 2. Four Schools
- 3. Platonism
- 4. Structuralism and Nominalism
- 5. Special Topics
- Bibliography
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Philosophy of Mathematics, Logic, and the Foundations of Mathematics

On the one hand, philosophy of mathematics is concerned with problems that are closely related to central problems of metaphysics and epistemology. At first blush, mathematics appears to study abstract entities. This makes one wonder what the nature of mathematical entities consists in and how we can have knowledge of mathematical entities. If these problems are regarded as intractable, then one might try to see if mathematical objects can somehow belong to the concrete world after all.

On the other hand, it has turned out that to some extent it is
possible to bring mathematical methods to bear on philosophical
questions concerning mathematics. The setting in which this has been
done is that of *mathematical logic* when it is broadly
conceived as comprising proof theory, model theory, set theory, and
computability theory as subfields. Thus the twentieth century has
witnessed the mathematical investigation of the consequences of what
are at bottom philosophical theories concerning the nature of
mathematics.

When professional mathematicians are concerned with the foundations of their subject, they are said to be engaged in foundational research. When professional philosophers investigate philosophical questions concerning mathematics, they are said to contribute to the philosophy of mathematics. Of course the distinction between the philosophy of mathematics and the foundations of mathematics is vague, and the more interaction there is between philosophers and mathematical logicians working on questions pertaining to the nature of mathematics, the better.

## 2. Four Schools

The general philosophical and scientific outlook in the nineteenth century tended toward the empirical. Platonistic aspects of rationalistic theories of mathematics were rapidly losing support. Especially the once highly-praised faculty of rational intuition of ideas was regarded with suspicion. Thus it became a challenge to formulate a philosophical theory of mathematics that was free of platonistic elements. In the first decades of the twentieth century, three non-platonistic accounts of mathematics were developed: logicism, formalism, and intuitionism. There emerged in the beginning of the twentieth century also a fourth program: predicativism. Due to contingent historical circumstances, its true potential was not brought out until the 1960s. However, it amply deserves a place beside the three traditional schools.

### 2.1 Logicism

The logicist project consists in attempting to reduce mathematics to logic. Since logic is supposed to be neutral about matters ontological, this project seemed to harmonize with the anti-platonistic atmosphere of the time.

The idea that mathematics is logic in disguise goes back to Leibniz. But an earnest attempt to carry out the logicist program in detail could be made only when in the nineteenth century the basic principles of central mathematical theories were articulated (by Dedekind and Peano) and the principles of logic were uncovered (by Frege).

Frege devoted much of his career to trying to show how mathematics can
be reduced to logic (Frege 1884). He managed to derive the principles
of (second-order) Peano arithmetic from the basic laws of a system of
second-order logic. His derivation was flawless. However, he relied on
one principle which turned out not to be a logical principle after
all. Even worse, it is untenable. The principle in question is
Frege's *Basic Law V*:

{x|Fx}={x|Gx} ≡ ∀x(Fx≡Gx),

In words: the set of the *F*s is identical with the set of the
*G*s iff the *F*s are precisely the *G*s. In a
famous letter to Frege, Russell showed that Frege's Basic Law V
entails a contradiction (Russell 1902). This argument has come to be
known as *Russell's paradox* (see
Section 2.4).

Russell himself then tried to reduce mathematics to logic in another way. Frege's Basic Law V entails that corresponding to every property of mathematical entities, there exists a class of mathematical entities having that property. This was evidently too strong, for it was exactly this consequence which led to Russell's paradox. So Russell postulated that only properties of mathematical objects that have already been shown to exist, determine classes. Predicates that implicitly refer to the class that they were to determine if such a class existed, do not determine a class. Thus a typed structure of properties is obtained: properties of ground objects, properties of both ground objects and classes of ground objects, and so on. This typed structure of properties determines a layered universe of mathematical objects, starting from ground objects, proceeding to classes of ground objects, then to classes of both ground objects and classes of ground objects, and so on.

Unfortunately, Russell found that the principles of his typed logic did not suffice to deduce even the basic laws of arithmetic. Russell needed, among other things, to lay down as a basic principle that there exists an infinite collection of ground objects. This could hardly be regarded as a logical principle. Thus the second attempt to reduce mathematics to logic also faltered.

And there matters stood for more than fifty years. In 1983, Crispin
Wright's book on Frege's theory of the natural numbers appeared
(Wright 1983). In it, Wright breathes new life into the logicist
project. He observes that Frege's derivation of second-order Peano
Arithmetic can be broken down into two stages. In a first stage, Frege
uses the inconsistent Basic Law V to derive what has come to be known
as *Hume's Principle*:

The number of theFs = the number of theGs ≡F≈G,

where *F*≈*G* means that the *F*s and the
*G*s stand in one-to-one correspondence with each other. (This
relation of one-to-one correspondence can be expressed in second-order
logic.) Then, in a second stage, the principles of second-order Peano
Arithmetic are derived from Hume's Principle and the accepted
principles of second-order logic. In particular, Basic Law V is
*not* needed in the second part of the derivation. Moreover,
Wright conjectured that in contrast to Frege's Basic Law V, Hume's
Principle is consistent. George Boolos and others observed that Hume's
Principle is indeed consistent (Boolos 1987). Wright went on to claim
that Hume's Principle can be regarded as a truth of logic. If that is
so, then at least second-order Peano arithmetic is reducible to logic
alone. Thus a new form of logicism was born; today this view is known
as *neo-logicism* (Hale & Wright 2001).

Most philosophers of mathematics today doubt that Hume's Principle is
a principle of logic. Indeed, even Wright has in recent years sought
to qualify this claim. Nevertheless, Wright's work has drawn the
attention of philosophers of mathematics to the kind of principles of
which Basic Law V and Hume's Principle are examples. These principles
are called *abstraction principles*. At present, philosophers
of mathematics attempt to construct general theories of abstraction
principles that explain which abstraction principles are acceptable
and which are not, and why (Weir 2003).

### 2.2 Intuitionism

Intuitionism originates in the work of the mathematician L.E.J.
Brouwer (van Atten 2004). According to intuitionism, mathematics is
essentially an activity of construction. The natural numbers are
mental constructions, the real numbers are mental constructions,
proofs and theorems are mental constructions, mathematical meaning is
a mental construction, … . Mathematical constructions are
produced by the *ideal* mathematician, i.e., abstracted from
contingent, physical limitations of the real-life mathematician. But
even the ideal mathematician remains a finite being. She can never
complete an infinite construction, even though she can complete
arbitrarily large finite initial parts of it. (An exception is made by
Brouwer for our intuition of the real line.) This entails that
intuitionism to a large extent rejects the existence of the actual (or
completed) infinite; mostly only potentially infinite collections are
given in the activity of construction. A basic example is the
successive construction in time of the individual natural numbers.

From these general considerations about the nature of mathematics,
intuitionists infer to a revisionist stance in logic and mathematics.
They find non-constructive existence proofs
unacceptable. Non-constructive existence proofs are proofs that
purport to demonstrate the existence of a mathematical entity having a
certain property without even implicitly containing a method for
generating an example of such an entity. Intuitionism rejects
non-constructive existence proofs as ‘theological’ and
‘metaphysical’. The characteristic feature of
non-constructive existence proofs is that they make essential use of
the *principle of the excluded middle*,

φ ∨ ¬φ,

or one of its equivalents, such as the principle of double negation,

¬¬φ → φ.

In classical logic, these principles are valid. The logic of
intuitionistic mathematics is obtained by removing the principle of
the excluded middle (and its equivalents) from classical logic. This
of course leads to a revision of mathematical knowledge. For instance,
the classical theory of elementary arithmetic, *Peano
Arithmetic*, can no longer be accepted. Instead, an intuitionistic
theory of arithmetic (called *Heyting Arithmetic*) is proposed
which does not contain the principle of the excluded middle. Although
intuitionistic elementary arithmetic is weaker than classical
elementary arithmetic, the difference is not all that great. There
exists a simple syntactical translation which translates all classical
theorems of arithmetic into theorems which are intuitionistically
provable.

In the first decades of the twentieth century, parts of the mathematical community were sympathetic to the intuitionistic critique of classical mathematics and to the alternative that it proposed. This situation changed when it became clear that in higher mathematics, the intuitionistic alternative differs rather drastically from the classical theory. For instance, intuitionistic mathematical analysis is a fairly complicated theory, and it is very different from classical mathematical analysis. This dampened the enthusiasm of the mathematical community for the intuitionistic project. Nevertheless, followers of Brouwer have continued to develop intuitionistic mathematics onto the present day (Troelstra & van Dalen 1988).

### 2.3 Formalism

David Hilbert agreed with the intuitionists that there is a sense in
which the natural numbers are basic in mathematics. But unlike the
intuitionists, Hilbert did not take the natural numbers to be mental
constructions. Instead, he argued that the natural numbers can be
taken to be *symbols*. Symbols are abstract entities, but
perhaps physical entities could play the role of the natural
numbers. For instance, we may take a concrete ink trace of the form |
to be the number 0, a concretely realized ink trace || to be the
number 1, and so on. Hilbert thought it doubtful at best that higher
mathematics could be directly interpreted in a similarly
straightforward and perhaps even concrete manner.

Unlike the intuitionists, Hilbert was not prepared to take a revisionist stance toward the existing body of mathematical knowledge. Instead, he adopted an instrumentalist stance with respect to higher mathematics. He thought that higher mathematics is no more than a formal game. The statements of higher-order mathematics are uninterpreted strings of symbols. Proving such statements is no more than a game in which symbols are manipulated according to fixed rules. The point of the ‘game of higher mathematics’ consists, in Hilbert's view, in proving statements of elementary arithmetic, which do have a direct interpretation (Hilbert 1925).

Hilbert thought that there can be no reasonable doubt about the
soundness of classical Peano Arithmetic — or at least about the
soundness of a subsystem of it that is called Primitive Recursive
Arithmetic (Tait 1981). And he thought that every arithmetical
statement that can be proved by making a detour through higher
mathematics, can also be proved directly in Peano Arithmetic. In fact,
he strongly suspected that *every* problem of elementary
arithmetic can be decided from the axioms of Peano Arithmetic. Of
course solving arithmetical problems in arithmetic is in some cases
practically impossible. The history of mathematics has shown that
making a “detour” through higher mathematics can sometimes
lead to a proof of an arithmetical statement that is much shorter and
that provides more insight than any purely arithmetical proof of the
same statement.

Hilbert realized, albeit somewhat dimly, that some of his convictions can in fact be considered to be mathematical conjectures. For a proof in a formal system of higher mathematics or of elementary arithmetic is a finite combinatorial object which can, modulo coding, be considered to be a natural number. But in the 1920s the details of coding proofs as natural numbers were not yet completely understood.

On the formalist view, a minimal requirement of formal systems of
higher mathematics is that they are at least consistent. Otherwise
*every* statement of elementary arithmetic can be proved in
them. Hilbert also saw (again, dimly) that the consistency of a system
of higher mathematics entails that this system is at least partially
arithmetically sound. So Hilbert and his students set out to prove
statements such as the consistency of the standard postulates of
mathematical analysis. Of course such a statement would have
to be proved in a ‘safe’ part of mathematics, such as
arithmetic. Otherwise the proof does not increase our conviction in
the consistency of mathematical analysis. And, fortunately, it seemed
possible in principle to do this, for in the final analysis
consistency statements are, again modulo coding, arithmetical
statements. So, to be precise, Hilbert and his students set out to
prove the consistency of, e.g., the axioms of mathematical analysis in
classical Peano arithmetic. This project was known as *Hilbert's
program* (Zach 2006). It turned out to be more difficult than
they had expected. In fact, they did not even succeed in proving the
consistency of the axioms of Peano Arithmetic in Peano Arithmetic.

Then Kurt Gödel proved that there exist arithmetical statements
that are undecidable in Peano Arithmetic (Gödel 1931). This has
become known as Gödel's *first incompleteness
theorem*. This did not bode well for Hilbert's program, but it
left open the possibility that the consistency of higher mathematics
is not one of these undecidable statements. Unfortunately, Gödel
then quickly realized that, unless (God forbid!) Peano Arithmetic is
inconsistent, the consistency of Peano Arithmetic is independent of
Peano Arithmetic. This is Gödel's *second incompleteness
theorem*. Gödel's incompleteness theorems turn out to be
generally applicable to all sufficiently strong but consistent
recursively axiomatizable theories. Together, they entail that
Hilbert's program fails. It turns out that higher mathematics cannot
be interpreted in a purely instrumental way. Higher mathematics can
prove arithmetical sentences, such as consistency statements, that are
beyond the reach of Peano Arithmetic.

All this does not spell the end of formalism. Even in the face of the
incompleteness theorems, it is coherent to maintain that mathematics
is the science of formal systems. One version of this view was
proposed by Curry (1958). On this view, mathematics consists of a
collection of formal systems which have no interpretation or subject
matter. (Curry here makes an exception for metamathematics.) Relative
to a formal system, one can say that a statement is true if and only
if it is derivable in the system. But on a fundamental level,
*all* mathematical systems are on a par. There can be at most
pragmatical reasons for preferring one system over
another. Inconsistent systems can prove all statements and therefore
are pretty useless. So when a system is found to be inconsistent, it
must be modified. It is simply a lesson from Gödel's
incompleteness theorems that a sufficiently strong consistent system
cannot prove its own consistency.

There is a canonical objection against Curry's formalist position. Mathematicians do not in fact treat all apparently consistent formal systems as being on a par. Most of them are unwilling to admit that the preference of arithmetical systems in which the arithmetical sentence expressing the consistency of Peano Arithmetic are derivable over those in which its negation is derivable, for instance, can ultimately be explained in purely pragmatical terms. Many mathematicians want to maintain that the perceived correctness (incorrectness) of certain formal systems must ultimately be explained by the fact that they correctly (incorrectly) describe certain subject matters.

Detlefsen has emphasized that the incompleteness theorems do not
preclude that the consistency of *parts* of higher mathematics
that are in practice used for solving arithmetical problems that
mathematicians are interested in can be arithmetically established
(Detlefsen 1986). In this sense, something can perhaps be rescued from
the flames even if Hilbert's instrumentalist stance towards all of
higher mathematics is ultimately untenable.

Another attempt to salvage a part of Hilbert's program was made by
Isaacson (1987). He defends the view that *in some
sense*, Peano Arithmetic may be complete after all. He argues that
true sentences undecidable in Peano Arithmetic can only be proved by
means of *higher-order concepts*. For instance, the consistency
of Peano Arithmetic can be proved by induction up to a transfinite
ordinal number (Gentzen 1938). But the notion of an ordinal number is
a set-theoretic, and hence non-arithmetical, concept. If the only ways
of proving the consistency of arithmetic make essential use of notions
which arguably belong to higher-order mathematics, then the
consistency of arithmetic, even though it can be expressed in the
language of Peano Arithmetic, is a non-arithmetical problem. And
generalizing from this, one can wonder whether Hilbert's conjecture
that *every* problem of arithmetic can be decided from the
axioms of Peano Arithmetic might not still be true.

### 2.4 Predicativism

As was mentioned earlier, predicativism is not ordinarily described as one of the schools. But it is only for contingent reasons that before the advent of the second world war predicativism did not rise to the level of prominence of the other schools.

The origin of predicativism lies in the work of Russell. On a cue of
Poincaré, he arrived at the following diagnosis of the Russell
paradox. To state the Russell paradox, the collection
*C* of all mathematical entities that satisfy
¬*x*∈ *x* is defined. The paradox then proceeds
by asking whether *C* itself meets this condition, and derives
a contradiction. The Poincaré-Russell diagnosis of the paradox
states that the definition of *C* does not pick out a
collection at all: it is impossible to define a collection *S*
by a condition that implicitly refers to *S* itself. This is
called the *vicious circle principle*. Definitions that
violate the vicious circle principle are called *impredicative*.
A sound definition of a collection only refers to entities which exist
independently from the defined collection. Such definitions are called
*predicative*. As Gödel later pointed out, a convinced
platonist would find this line of reasoning unconvincing. If
mathematical collections exist independently of the act of defining,
then it is not immediately clear why there could not be collections
that can *only* be defined impredicatively.

All this led Russell to develop the simple and the ramified theory of types, in which syntactical restrictions were built in which make impredicative definitions ill-formed. In simple type theory, the free variables in defining formulas range over entities to which the collection to be defined does not belong. In ramified type theory, it is required, in addition, that the range of the bound variables in defining formulas not include the collection to be defined. It was pointed out in Section 2.1 that Russell's type theory cannot be seen as a reduction of mathematics to logic. But even aside from that, it was observed early on that especially ramified type theory is unsuitable to formalize ordinary mathematical arguments.

When Russell turned to other areas of analytical philosophy, Hermann Weyl took up the predicativist cause (Weyl 1918). Like Poincaré, Weyl did not share Russell's desire to reduce mathematics to logic. And right from the start he saw that it would be in practice impossible to work in a ramified type theory. Weyl developed a philosophical stance that is in a sense intermediate between intuitionism and platonism. He took the collection of natural numbers as unproblematically given as an actual infinity. But the concept of arbitrary subset of the natural numbers was not taken to be immediately given in mathematical intuition. Only those subsets which are determined by arithmetical first-order predicates are taken to be be predicatively acceptable.

On the one hand, it emerged that many of the standard definitions in mathematical analysis are impredicative. For instance, the minimal closure of an operation on a set is ordinarily defined as the intersection of all sets that are closed under applications of the operation. But the minimal closure itself is one of the sets that are closed under applications of the operation. Thus the definition is impredicative. In this way, the attention was gradually shifted away from concern about the set-theoretical paradoxes to the role of impredicativity in mainstream mathematics. On the other hand, Weyl showed that it is often possible to work around impredicative notions. It even emerged that most of mainstream nineteenth-century mathematical analysis could be vindicated on a predicative basis (Feferman 1988).

In the 1920s, history intervened. Weyl was won over to Brouwer's more radical intuitionistic project. In the meantime, mathematicians became convinced that the highly impredicative transfinite set theory developed by Cantor and Zermelo was less acutely threatened by Russell's paradox than previously suspected. These factors caused predicativism to lapse into a dormant state for several decades.

Building on work in generalized recursion theory, Solomon Feferman
extended the predicativist project in the 1960s (Feferman 2005). He
realized that Weyl's strategy could be iterated into the
transfinite. Also those sets of numbers that can be defined by using
quantification over the sets that Weyl regarded as predicatively
justified, should be counted as predicatively acceptable, and so on.
This process can be propagated along an ordinal path. This ordinal
path stretches as far into the transfinite as the *predicative
ordinals* reach, where an ordinal is predicative if it measures
the length of a provable well-ordering of the natural numbers. This
calibration of the strength of predicative mathematics, which is due
to Feferman and (independently) Schütte, is nowadays fairly
generally accepted. Feferman then investigated how much of standard
mathematical analysis could be carried out within a predicativist
framework. The research of Feferman and others (most notably Harvey
Friedman) shows that most of twentieth-century analysis is acceptable
from a predicativist point of view.

## 3. Platonism

In the years before the second world war it became clear that weighty
objections had been raised against each of the three anti-platonist
programs in the philosophy of mathematics. Predicativism was an
exception, but it was at the time a program without defenders. Thus
room was created for a renewed interest in the prospects of
platonistic views about the nature of mathematics. On the platonistic
conception, the subject matter of mathematics consists of *abstract
entities*.

### 3.1 Gödel's Platonism

Gödel was a platonist with respect to mathematical objects and with respect to mathematical concepts (Gödel 1944, 1964). But his platonistic view was more sophisticated than that of the mathematician in the street.

Gödel held that there is a strong parallelism between plausible
theories of mathematical objects and concepts on the one hand, and
plausible theories of physical objects and properties on the other
hand. Like physical objects and properties, mathematical objects and
concepts are not constructed by humans. Like physical objects and
properties, mathematical objects and concepts are not reducible to
mental entities. Mathematical objects and concepts are as objective as
physical objects and properties. Mathematical objects and concepts
are, like physical objects and properties, postulated in order to
obtain a satisfactory theory of our experience. Indeed, in a way that
is analogous to our perceptual relation to physical objects and
properties, through *mathematical intuition* we stand in a
quasi-perceptual relation with mathematical objects and concepts. Our
perception of physical objects and concepts is fallible and can be
corrected. In the same way, mathematical intuition is not fool-proof
— as the history of Frege's Basic Law V shows — but it can
be trained and improved. Unlike physical objects and properties,
mathematical objects do not exist in space and time, and mathematical
concepts are not instantiated in space or time.

Our mathematical intuition provides *intrinsic evidence* for
mathematical principles. Virtually all of our mathematical knowledge
can be deduced from the axioms of *Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory with
the Axiom of Choice* (ZFC). In Gödel's view, we have
compelling intrinsic evidence for the truth of these axioms. But he
also worried that mathematical intuition might not be strong enough to
provide compelling evidence for axioms that significantly exceed the
strength of ZFC.

Aside from intrinsic evidence, it is in Gödel's view also
possible to obtain *extrinsic evidence* for mathematical
principles. If mathematical principles are successful, then, even if
we are unable to obtain intuitive evidence for them, they may be
regarded as probably true. Gödel says that “success here
means fruitfulness in consequences, particularly in
‘verifiable’ consequences, i.e., consequences verifiable
without the new axiom, whose proofs with the help of the new axiom,
however, are considerably simpler and easier to discover, and which
make it possible to contract into one proof many different proofs
[…] There might exist axioms so abundant in their verifiable
consequences, shedding so much light on a whole field, yielding such
powerful methods for solving problems […] that, no matter
whether or not they are intrinsically necessary, they would have to be
accepted at least in the same sense as any well-established physical
theory” (Gödel 1947, 477). This inspired Gödel to
search for new axioms which can be extrinsically motivated and which
can decide questions such as the *continuum hypothesis*, which
are highly independent of ZFC (cf.
Section 5.1).

Gödel shared Hilbert's conviction that all mathematical questions have definite answers. But platonism in the philosophy of mathematics should not be taken to be ipso facto committed to holding that all set-theoretical propositions have determinate truth values. There are versions of platonism that maintain, for instance, that all theorems of ZFC are made true by determinate set-theoretical facts, but that there are no set-theoretical facts that make certain statements that are highly independent of ZFC truth-determinate. It seems that the famous set theorist Paul Cohen held some such view (Cohen 1971).

### 3.2 Naturalism and Indispensability

Quine articulated a methodological critique of traditional
philosophy. He suggested a different philosophical methodology
instead, which has become known as *naturalism* (Quine 1969).
According to naturalism, our best theories are our best
*scientific* theories. If we want to obtain the best available
answer to philosophical questions such as *What* *do we
know?* and *Which kinds of entities exist?*, we should not
appeal to traditional epistemological and metaphysical theories. We
should also refrain from embarking on a fundamental epistemological or
metaphysical inquiry starting from first principles. Rather, we should
consult and analyze our best scientific theories. They contain, albeit
often implicitly, our currently best account of what exists, what we
know, and how we know it.

Putnam applied Quine's naturalistic stance to mathematical ontology
(Putnam 1972). Since Galileo, our best theories from the natural
sciences are mathematically expressed. Newton's theory of gravitation,
for instance, relies heavily on the classical theory of the real
numbers. Thus an ontological commitment to mathematical entities seems
inherent to our best scientific theories. This line of reasoning can
be strengthened by appealing to the Quinean thesis of confirmational
holism. Empirical evidence does not bestow its confirmatory power on
any one individual hypothesis. Rather, experience globally confirms
the theory in which the individual hypothesis is embedded. Since
mathematical theories are part and parcel of scientific theories, they
too are confirmed by experience. Thus, we have empirical confirmation
for mathematical theories. Even more appears true. It seems that
mathematics is indispensable to our best scientific theories: it is
not at all obvious how we *could* express them without using
mathematical vocabulary. Hence the naturalist stance commands us to
accept mathematical entities as part of our philosophical ontology.
This line of argumentation is called an *indispensability
argument* (Colyvan 2001).

If we take the mathematics that is involved in our best scientific theories at face value, then we appear to be committed to a form of platonism. But it is a more modest form of platonism than Gödel's platonism. For it appears that the natural sciences can get by with (roughly) function spaces on the real numbers. The higher regions of transfinite set theory appear to be largely irrelevant to even our most advanced theories in the natural sciences. Nevertheless, Quine thought (at some point) that the sets that are postulated by ZFC are acceptable from a naturalistic point of view; they can be regarded as a generous rounding-off of the mathematics that is involved in our scientific theories. Quine's judgement on this matter is not universally accepted. Feferman, for instance, argues that all the mathematical theories that are essentially used in our currently best scientific theories are predicatively reducible (Feferman 2005).

In Quine's philosophy, the natural sciences are the ultimate arbiters concerning mathematical existence and mathematical truth. This has led Charles Parsons to object that this picture makes the obviousness of elementary mathematics somewhat mysterious (Parsons 1980). For instance, the question whether every natural number has a successor ultimately depends, in Quine's view, on our best empirical theories; however, somehow this fact appears more immediate than that. In a kindred spirit, Maddy notes that mathematicians do not take themselves to be in any way restricted in their activity by the natural sciences. Indeed, one might wonder whether mathematics should not be regarded as a science in its own right, and whether the ontological commitments of mathematics should not be judged rather on the basis of the rational methods that are implicit in mathematical practice.

Motivated by these considerations, Maddy set out to inquire into the
standards of existence implicit in mathematical practice, and into the
implicit ontological commitments of mathematics that follow from these
standards (Maddy 1990). She focussed on set theory, and on the
methodological considerations that are brought to bear by the
mathematical community on the question which large-cardinal axioms can
be taken to be true. Thus her view is closer to that of Gödel
than to that of Quine. In her more recent work, she isolates two
maxims that seem to be guiding set theorists when contemplating the
acceptability of new set-theoretic principles: *unify* and
*maximize* (Maddy 1997). The maxim “unify” is an
instigation for set theory to provide a single system in which all
mathematical objects and all structures of mathematics can be
instantiated or modelled. The maxim “maximize” means that
set theory should adopt set-theoretic principles that are as powerful
and mathematically fruitful as possible.

### 3.3 Deflating Platonism

Bernays observed that when a mathematician is at work she “naively” treats the objects she is dealing with in a platonistic way. Every working mathematician, he says, is a platonist (Bernays 1935). But when the mathematician is caught off duty by a philosopher who quizzes her about her ontological commitments, she is apt to shuffle her feet and withdraw to a vaguely non-platonistic position. This has been taken by some to indicate that there is something wrong with philosophical questions about the nature of mathematical objects and of mathematical knowledge.

Carnap introduced a distinction between questions that are internal to a framework and questions that are external to a framework (Carnap 1950). Tait has worked out in detail how something like this distinction can be applied to mathematics (Tait 2005). This has resulted in what might be regarded as a deflationary version of platonism.

According to Tait, questions of existence of mathematical entities can only be sensibly asked and reasonably answered from within (axiomatic) mathematical frameworks. If one is working in number theory, for instance, then one can ask whether there are prime numbers that have a given property. Such questions are then to be decided on purely mathematical grounds.

Philosophers have a tendency to step outside the framework of
mathematics and ask “from the outside” whether
mathematical objects *really* exist and whether mathematical
propositions are *really* true. In this question they are
asking for supra-mathematical or metaphysical grounds for mathematical
truth and existence claims. Tait argues that it is hard to see how any
sense can be made of such external questions. He attempts to deflate
them, and bring them back to where they belong: to mathematical
practice itself. Of course not everyone agrees with Tait on this
point. Linsky and Zalta have developed a systematic way of answering
precisely the sort of external questions that Tait approaches with
disdain (Linsky & Zalta 1995).

It comes as no surprise that Tait has little use for Gödelian
appeals to mathematical intuition in the philosophy of mathematics, or
for the philosophical thesis that mathematical objects exist
“outside space and time”. More generally, Tait believes
that mathematics is not in need of a philosophical foundation; he
wants to let mathematics speak for itself. In this sense, his position
is reminiscent of the (in some sense Wittgensteinian) *natural
ontological attitude* that is advocated by Arthur Fine in the
realism debate in the philosophy of science.

### 3.4 Benacerraf's Epistemological Problem

Benacerraf formulated an epistemological problem for a variety of platonistic positions in the philosophy of science (Benacerraf 1973). The argument is specifically directed against accounts of mathematical intuition such as that of Gödel. Benacerraf's argument starts from the premise that our best theory of knowledge is the causal theory of knowledge. It is then noted that according to platonism, abstract objects are not spatially or temporally localized, whereas flesh-and-blood mathematicians are spatially and temporally localized. Our best epistemological theory then tells us that knowledge of mathematical entities should result from causal interaction with these entities. But it is difficult to imagine how this could be the case.

Today few epistemologists hold that the causal theory of knowledge is our best theory of knowledge. But it turns out that Benacerraf's problem is remarkably robust under variation of epistemological theory. For instance, let us assume for the sake of argument that reliabilism is our best theory of knowledge. Then the problem becomes to explain how we succeed in obtaining reliable beliefs about mathematical entities.

Hodes has formulated a semantical variant of Benacerraf's epistemological problem (Hodes 1984). According to our currently best theory of reference, causal-historical connections between humans and the world of concreta enable our words to refer to physical entities and properties. According to platonism, mathematics refers to abstract entities. The platonist therefore owes us a plausible account of how we (physically embodied humans) are able to refer to them. On the face of it, it appears that the causal theory of reference will be unable to supply us with the required account of the ‘microstructure of reference’ of mathematical discourse.

### 3.5 Plenitudinous Platonism

A version of platonism has been developed which is intended to provide
a solution to Benacerraf's epistemological problem (Linsky &
Zalta 1995; Balaguer 1998). This position is known as
*plenitudinous platonism*. The central thesis of this theory is
that every logically consistent mathematical theory
*necessarily* refers to an abstract entity. Whether the
mathematician who formulated the theory knows that it refers or does
not know this, is largely immaterial. By entertaining a consistent
mathematical theory, a mathematician automatically acquires knowledge
about the subject matter of the theory. So, on this view, there is no
epistemological problem to solve anymore.

In Balaguer's version, plenitudinous platonism postulates a multiplicity of mathematical universes, each corresponding to a consistent mathematical theory. Thus, a question such as the continuum problem does not receive a unique answer: in some set-theoretical universes the continuum hypothesis holds, in others it fails to hold. However, not everyone agrees that this picture can be maintained. Martin has developed an argument to show that multiple universes can always be “accumulated” into a single universe (Martin 2001).

In Linsky and Zalta's version of plenitudinous platonism, the
mathematical entity that is postulated by a consistent mathematical
theory has exactly the mathematical properties which are attributed to
it by the theory. The abstract entity corresponding to ZFC, for
instance, is *partial* in the sense that it neither makes the
continuum hypothesis true nor false. The reason is that ZFC neither
entails the continuum hypothesis nor its negation. This does not
entail that all ways of consistently extending ZFC are on a par. Some
ways may be fruitful and powerful, others less so. But the view does
deny that certain consistent ways of extending ZFC are preferable
*because* they consist of true principles whereas others
contain false principles.

## 4. Structuralism and Nominalism

Benacerraf's work motivated philosophers to develop both structuralist and nominalist theories in the philosophy of mathematics (Reck & Price 2000). And since the late 1980s, combinations of structuralism and nominalism have also been developed.

### 4.1 What Numbers Could Not Be

As if saddling platonism with one difficult problem were not enough (Section 3.4), Benacerraf formulated a challenge for set-theoretic platonism (Benacerraf 1965). The challenge takes the following form.

There exist infinitely many ways of identifying the natural numbers with pure sets. Let us restrict, without essential loss of generality, our discussion to two such ways:

I:

0 = ∅ 1 = {∅} 2 = {{∅}} 3 = {{{∅}}} … II:

0 = ∅ 1 = {∅} 2 = {∅, { ∅}} 3 = {∅, {∅}, {∅, {∅}}} …

The simple question that Benacerraf asks is:

Which of these consists solely of true identity statements: I or II?

It seems very difficult to answer this question. It is not hard to see
how a successor function and addition and multiplication operations
can be defined on the number-candidates of I and on the
number-candidates of II so that all the arithmetical statements that
we take to be true come out true. Indeed, if this is done in the
natural way, then we arrive at isomorphic structures (in the
set-theoretic sense of the word), and isomorphic structures make the
same sentences true (they are *elementarily equivalent*). It is
only when we ask extra-arithmetical questions, such as *1 ∈
3?* that the two accounts of the natural numbers yield diverging
answers. So it is impossible that both accounts are correct. According
to story I, 3 = {{{∅}}}, whereas according to story II,
3 = {∅, {∅}, {∅, {∅}}}. If both accounts
were correct, then the transitivity of identity would yield a purely
set-theoretic falsehood.

Summing up, we arrive at the following situation. On the one hand,
there appear to be no reasons why one account is superior to the
other. On the other hand, the accounts cannot both be correct. This
predicament is sometimes called labelled Benacerraf's
*identification problem*.

The proper conclusion to draw from this conundrum appears to be that neither account I nor account II is correct. Since similar considerations would emerge from comparing other reasonable-looking attempts to reduce natural numbers to sets, it appears that natural numbers are not sets after all. It is clear, moreover, that a similar argument can be formulated for the rational numbers, the real numbers, … . Benacerraf concludes that they, too, are not sets at all.

It is not at all clear whether Gödel, for instance, is committed
to reducing the natural numbers to pure sets. It seems that a
platonist should be able to uphold the claim that the natural numbers
can be embedded into the set-theoretic universe while maintaining that
the embedding should not be seen as an ontological reduction. Indeed,
we have seen that on Linsky and Zalta's plenitudinous platonist
account, the natural numbers have no properties beyond those that are
attributed to them by our theory of the natural numbers (Peano
Arithmetic). But then it seems that platonists would have to take a
similar line with respect to the rational numbers, the complex
numbers, … . Whereas maintaining that the natural numbers
are *sui generis* admittedly has some appeal, it is perhaps
less natural to maintain that the complex numbers, for instance, are
also *sui generis*. And, anyway, even if the natural numbers,
the complex numbers, … are in some sense not reducible to
anything else, one may wonder whether there is another way to
elucidate their nature.

### 4.2 *Ante Rem* Structuralism

Shapiro draws a useful distinction between *algebraic* and
*non-algebraic mathematical theories* (Shapiro 1997). Roughly,
non-algebraic theories are theories which appear at first sight to be
about a unique model: the *intended* model of the theory. We
have seen examples of such theories: arithmetic, mathematical analysis
… . Algebraic theories, in contrast, do not carry
a *prima facie* claim to be about a unique model. Examples are
group theory, topology, graph theory, … .

Benacerraf's challenge can be mounted for the objects that non-algebraic theories appear to describe. But his challenge does not apply to algebraic theories. Algebraic theories are not interested in mathematical objects per se; they are interested in structural aspects of mathematical objects. This led Benacerraf to speculate whether the same could not be true also of non-algebraic theories. Perhaps the lesson to be drawn from Benacerraf's identification problem is that even arithmetic does not describe specific mathematical objects, but instead only describes structural relations?

Shapiro and Resnik hold that all mathematical theories, even
non-algebraic ones, describe *structures*. This position is
known as *structuralism* (Shapiro 1997; Resnik
1997). Structures consist of places that stand in structural
relations to each other. Thus, derivatively, mathematical theories
describe places or positions in structures. But they do not describe
objects. The number 3, for instance, will on this view not be an
object but a place in the structure of the natural numbers.

*Systems* are instantiations of structures. The systems that
instantiate the structure that is described by a non-algebraic theory
are isomorphic with each other, and thus, for the purposes of the
theory, equally good. The systems I and II that were described in
Section 4.1
can be seen as instantiations of the natural-number structure. The
sets {{{∅}}} and {∅, {∅}, {∅, {∅}}}
are equally suitable for playing the role of the number three. But
neither one *is* the number 3. For the number 3 is an open
place in the natural-number structure, and this open place does not
have any internal structure. Systems typically contain properties over
and above those that are relevant for the structures that they are
taken to instantiate.

Sensible identity questions are those that can be asked from within a structure. They are those questions that can be answered on the basis of structural aspects of the structure. Identity questions that go beyond a structure do not make sense. One can pose the question whether 3 ∈ 4, but not cogently: this question involves a category mistake. The question mixes two different structures: ∈ is a set-theoretical notion, whereas 3 and 4 are places in the structure of the natural numbers. This seems to constitute a satisfactory answer to Benacerraf's challenge.

In Shapiro's view, structures are not ontologically dependent on the
existence of systems that instantiate them. Even if there were no
infinite systems to be found in nature, the structure of the natural
numbers would exist. Thus structures as Shapiro understands them are
abstract, platonic entities. Shapiro's brand of structuralism is often
labeled *ante rem* structuralism.

In textbooks on set theory we also find a notion of structure.
Roughly, the set-theoretic definition says that a structure is an
ordered *n*-tuple consisting of a set, a number of relations on
this set, and a number of distinguished elements of this set. But this
cannot be the notion of structure that structuralism in the philosophy
of mathematics has in mind. For the set-theoretic notion of structure
presupposes the concept of set, which, according to structuralism,
should itself be explained in structural terms. Or, to put the point
differently, a set-theoretical structure is merely a *system*
that instantiates a structure that is ontologically prior to it.

It appears that *ante rem* structuralism describes the notion
of a structure in a somewhat circular manner. A structure is described
as places that stand in relation to each other, but a place cannot be
described independently of the structure to which it belongs. Yet this
is not necessarily a problem. For the *ante rem* structuralist,
the notion of structure is a primitive concept, which cannot be
defined in other more basic terms. At best, we can construct an
axiomatic theory of mathematical structures.

But Benacerraf's epistemological problem still appears to be urgent. Structures and places in structures may not be objects, but they are abstract. So it is natural to wonder how we succeed in obtaining knowledge of them. This problem has been taken by certain philosophers as a reason for developing a nominalist theory of mathematics and then to reconcile this theory with basic tenets of structuralism.

### 4.3 Mathematics Without Abstract Entities

Goodman and Quine tried early on to bite the bullet and embarked on a project to reformulate theories from natural science without making use of abstract entities (Goodman & Quine 1947). The nominalistic reconstruction of scientific theories proved to be a difficult task. Quine, for one, abandoned it after this initial attempt. In the past decades many theories have been proposed that purport to give a nominalistic reconstruction of mathematics. Burgess & Rosen 1997 contains a good critical discussion of such views.

In a nominalist reconstruction of mathematics, concrete entities will have to play the role that abstract entities play in platonistic accounts of mathematics. But here a problem arises. Already Hilbert observed that, given the discretization of nature in quantum mechanics, the natural sciences may in the end claim that there are only finitely many concrete entities (Hilbert 1925). Yet it seems that we would need infinitely many of them to play the role of the natural numbers — never mind the real numbers. Where does the nominalist find the required collection of concrete entities?

Field made an earnest attempt to carry out a nominalistic reconstruction of Newtonian mechanics (Field 1980). The basic idea is this. Field wanted to use concrete surrogates of the real numbers and the functions on them. He adopted a realist stance toward the spatial continuum. He took regions of space to be as physically real as chairs and tables. And he took regions of space to be concrete: after all, they are spatially located. If we also count the very disconnected ones, then there are as many regions of Newtonian space as there are subsets of the real numbers. In this way there are enough concrete entities to play the role of the natural numbers, the real numbers, and functions on the real numbers. And the theory of the real numbers and functions on them is all that is needed to formulate Newtonian mechanics. Of course it would be even more interesting to have a nominalistic reconstruction of a truly contemporary scientific theory such as quantum mechanics. But given that the project can be carried out for Newtonian mechanics, some degree of initial optimism seems justified.

This project clearly has its limitations. It may be possible to nominalistically interpret theories of function spaces on the reals, say. But it seems far-fetched to think that along Fieldian lines a nominalistic interpretation of set theory can be found. Nevertheless, if it is successful within its confines, then Field's program has really achieved something. For it would mean that he has thereby taken an important step towards undermining the indispensability argument for Quinean modest platonism in mathematics — to some extent, mathematical entities appear to be dispensable after all.

Field's strategy only has a chance of working if Hilbert's fear that
in a very fundamental sense our best scientific theories may entail
that there are only finitely many concrete entities, is
ill-founded. If one sympathizes with Hilbert's concern but does not
believe in the existence of abstract entities, then one might bite the
bullet and claim that there are only finitely many
*mathematical* entities, thus contradicting the basic
principles of elementary arithmetic. This leads to a position that has
been called *ultra-finitism*. On most accounts, this leads,
like intuitionism, to revisionism in mathematics. For it would seem
that one would then have to say that there is a largest natural
number, for instance. It is needless to say that many find such
consequences hard to swallow. But Lavine has developed a sophisticated
form of set-theoretical ultra-finitism which is mathematically
non-revisionist (Lavine 1994). He has developed a detailed account of
how the principles of ZFC can be taken to be principles that describe
determinately finite sets, if these are taken to include indefinitely
large ones.

### 4.4 *In Rebus* Structuralism

Field's physicalist interpretation of arithmetic and analysis not only undermines the Quine-Putnam indispensability argument. It also partially provides an answer to Benacerraf's epistemological challenge. Admittedly it is not a simple task to give an account of how humans obtain knowledge of spacetime regions. But at least spacetime regions are physical. So we are no longer required to explicate how flesh-and-blood mathematicians stand in contact with non-physical entities. But Benacerraf's identification problem remains. One may wonder why one spacetime point or region rather than another plays the role of the number π, for instance.

In response to the identification problem, it seems attractive to
combine a structuralist approach with Field's nominalism. This leads
to versions of *nominalist structuralism*, which can be
outlined as follows. Let us focus on mathematical analysis. The
nominalist structuralist denies that any concrete physical system is
the unique intended interpretation of analysis. All concrete physical
systems that satisfy the basic principles of *Real Analysis*
(RA) would do equally well. So the content of a sentence φ of the
language of analysis is (roughly) given by:

Every concrete systemSwhich makes RA true, also makes φ true.

This entails that, as with *ante rem* structuralism, only
structural aspects are relevant to the truth or falsehood of
mathematical statements. But unlike *ante rem* structuralism,
no *abstract* structure is postulated above and beyond concrete
systems.

According to *in rebus* structuralism, no abstract structures
exist over and above the systems that instantiate them; structures
exist only *in* the systems that instantiate them. For this
reason nominalist *ante rem* structuralism is sometimes
described as “structuralism without structures”.
Nominalist structuralism is a form of *in rebus*
structuralism. But *in rebus* structuralism is not exhausted by
nominalist structuralism. Even the version of platonism that takes
mathematics to be about structures in the set-theoretic sense of the
word can be viewed as a form of *in rebus* structuralism.

If Hilbert's worry is well-founded in the sense that there are no
concrete physical systems that make the postulates of mathematical
analysis true, then the above nominalist-structuralist rendering of
the content of a sentence φ of the language of analysis gets the
truth conditions of such sentences wrong. For then for *every*
universally quantified sentence φ, its paraphrase will come out
vacuously true. So an existential assumption to the effect that there
exist concrete physical systems that can serve as models for RA is
needed to back up the above analysis of the content of mathematical
statements. Perhaps something like Field's construction fits the
bill.

Putnam noticed early on that if the above explication of the content
of mathematical sentences is modified somewhat, a substantially weaker
background assumption is sufficient to obtain the correct truth
conditions (Putnam 1967). Putnam proposed the following *modal*
rendering of the content of a sentence φ of the language of
analysis:

Necessarily,every concrete system S which makes RA true, also makes φ true.

This is a stronger statement than the non-modal rendering that was presented earlier. But it seems equally plausible. And an advantage of this rendering is that the following modal-existential background assumption is sufficient to make the truth conditions of mathematical statements come out right:

It is possiblethat there exists a concrete physical system that can serve as a model for RA.

(‘It is possible that’ here means ‘It is or might have been the case that’.) Now Hilbert's concern seems adequately addressed. For on Putnam's account, the truth of mathematical sentences no longer depends on physical assumptions about the actual world.

Again, it is admittedly not easy to give a satisfying account of how we know that this modal-existential assumption is fulfilled. But it may be hoped that the task is less daunting than the task of explaining how we succeed in knowing facts about abstract entities. And it should not be forgotten that the structuralist aspect of this (modal) nominalist position keeps Benacerraf's identification challenge at bay.

Putnam's strategy also has its limitations. Chihara sought to apply Putnam's strategy not only to arithmetic and analysis but also to set theory (Chihara 1973). Then a crude version of the relevant modal-existential assumption becomes:

It is possiblethat there exist concrete physical systems that can serve as models for ZFC.

Parsons has noted that when possible worlds are needed which contain
collections of physical entities that have large transfinite
cardinalities or perhaps are even too large to have a cardinal number,
it becomes hard to see these as possible concrete or physical systems
(Parsons 1990). We seem to have no reason to believe that there could
be *physical* worlds that contain highly-transfinitely-many
entities.

(Discussion of Hellman 1989 will be reserved for Section 5.2, when the notion of categoricity is introduced.)

### 4.5 Fictionalism

According to the previous proposals, the statements of ordinary mathematics are true when suitably, i.e., nominalistically, interpreted. The nominalistic account of mathematics that will now be discussed holds that all existential mathematical statements are false simply because there are no mathematical entities. (For the same reason all universal mathematical statements will be trivially true.)

Fictionalism holds that mathematical theories are like fiction stories such as fairy tales and novels. Mathematical theories describe fictional entities, in the same way that literary fiction describes fictional characters. This position was first articulated in the introductory chapter of Field 1989, and has in recent years been gaining in popularity.

Even this crudest of descriptions of the fictionalist position immediately opens up the question what sort of entities fictional entities are. This is a deep metaphysical-ontological problem. Mathematical fictionalists have hitherto not contributed much to the resolution of this question.

If the fictionalist thesis is correct, then one demand that must be
imposed on mathematical theories is surely consistency. Yet Field adds
to this a second requirement: mathematics must be
*conservative* over natural science. This means, roughly, that
whenever a statement of an empirical theory can be derived using
mathematics, it can in principle also be derived without using any
mathematical theories. If this were not the case, then an
indispensability argument could be played out against
fictionalism. Whether mathematics is in fact conservative over
physics, for instance, is currently a matter of controversy. Shapiro
has formulated an incompleteness argument that intends to refute
Field's claim (Shapiro 1983).

If there are indeed no mathematical entities, as the fictionalist contends, then Benacerraf's epistemological problem does not arise. Fictionalism shares this advantage over most forms of platonism with nominalistic reconstructions of mathematics. But at the same time it shares with platonism the advantage of respecting the surface logical form of mathematical statements.

Whether Benacerraf's identification problem is solved is not
completely clear. In general, fictionalism is a non-reductionist
account. Whether an entity in one mathematical theory is identical
with an entity that occurs in another theory is usually left
indeterminate by mathematical “stories”. Yet Burgess has
rightly emphasized that mathematics differs from literary fiction in
the fact that fictional characters are usually confined to one work of
fiction, whereas the same mathematical entities turn up in diverse
mathematical theories (Burgess 2004). After all, entities with the
same *name* (such as π) turn up in different
theories. Perhaps the fictionalist can maintain that when
mathematicians develop a new theory in which an “old”
mathematical entity occurs, the entity in question is made more
precise. More determinate properties are ascribed to it than before,
and this is all right as long as overall consistency is maintained.

The canonical objection to formalism seems also applicable to fictionalism. The fictionalists should find some explanation for the fact that extending a mathematical theory in one way is often considered preferable over continuing it in a another way that is incompatible with the first. There is often at least an appearance that there is a right way to extend a mathematical theory.

## 5. Special Topics

In recent years, subdisciplines of the philosophy of mathematics are starting to arise. They evolve in a way that is not completely determined by the “big debates” about the nature of mathematics. In this concluding section, we look at a few of these disciplines.

### 5.1 Philosophy of Set Theory

Many regard set theory as the foundation of mathematics. It seems that just about any piece of mathematics can be carried out in set theory, even though it is sometimes an awkward setting for doing so. In recent years, the philosophy of set theory is emerging as a philosophical discipline of its own. This is not to say that in specific debates in the philosophy of set theory it cannot make an enormous difference whether one approaches it from a formalistic point of view or from a platonistic point of view, for instance.

One question that has been important from the beginning of set theory concerns the difference between sets and proper classes. Cantor's diagonal argument forces us to recognize that the set-theoretical universe as a whole cannot be regarded as a set. Cantor's Theorem shows that the power set (i.e., the set of all subsets) of any given set has a larger cardinality than the given set itself. Now suppose that the set-theoretical universe forms a set: the set of all sets. Then the power set of the set of all sets would have to be a subset of the set of all sets. This would contradict the fact that the power set of the set of all sets would have a larger cardinality than the set of all sets. So we must conclude that the set-theoretical universe cannot form a set.

Cantor called pluralities that are too large to be considered as a set
*inconsistent multiplicities* (Cantor 1932). Today, Cantor's
inconsistent multiplicities are called *proper classes*. Some
philosophers of mathematics hold that proper classes still constitute
unities, and hence can be seen as a sort of collection. They are, in a
Cantorian spirit, just collections that are too large to be
sets. Nevertheless, there are problems with this view. Just as there
can be no set of all sets, there can for diagonalization reasons also
not be a proper class of all proper classes. So the proper-class view
seems compelled to recognize in addition a realm of super-proper
classes, and so on. For this reason, Zermelo claimed that proper
classes simply do not exist. This position is less strange than it
looks at first sight. On close inspection, one sees that in ZFC one
never needs to quantify over entities that are too large to be sets
(although there exist systems of set theory that do quantify over
proper classes). On this view, the set-theoretical universe is
potentially infinite in an absolute sense of the word. It never exists
as a completed whole, but is forever growing, and hence forever
unfinished. This way of speaking reveals that in our attempts to
understand this notion of absolute potential infinity, we are drawn to
temporal metaphors. It is not surprising that these temporal metaphors
cause some philosophers of mathematics acute discomfort.

A second subject in the philosophy of set theory concerns the
justification of the accepted basic principles of mathematics, i.e.,
the axioms of ZFC. An important historical case study is the process
by which the Axiom of Choice came to be accepted by the mathematical
community in the early decades of the twentieth century (Moore 1982).
The importance of this case study is largely due to the fact that an
open and explicit discussion of its acceptability was held in the
mathematical community. In this discussion, general reasons for
accepting or refusing to accept a principle as a basic axiom came to
the surface. On the systematic side, two conceptions of the notion of
set have been elaborated which aim to justify all axioms of ZFC in one
fell swoop. On the one hand, there is the *iterative
conception* of sets, which describes how the set-theoretical
universe can be thought of as generated from the empty set by means of
the power set operation (Boolos 1971). On the other hand, there is the
*limitation-of-size* conception of sets, which states that
every collection which is not too big to be a set, is a set (Hallett
1984). The iterative conception motivates some axioms of ZFC very well
(the power set axiom, for instance), but fares less well with respect
to other axioms (such as the replacement axiom). The
limitation-of-size conception motivates other axioms better (such as
the restricted comprehension axiom). Many philosophers of mathematics
believe that we today have no *uniform* conception that clearly
justifies all axioms of ZFC.

The motivation of putative axioms that go beyond ZFC constitutes a
third concern of the philosophy of set theory (Maddy 1988; Martin
1998). One such class of principles is constituted by the
*large-cardinal axioms*. Nowadays, large-cardinal hypotheses
are really taken to mean some kind of embedding properties between the
set theoretic universe and inner models of set theory. Most of the
time, large-cardinal principles entail the existence of sets that are
larger than any sets which can be guaranteed by ZFC to exist.

Gödel hoped that on the basis of such large-cardinal axioms,
important open questions in set theory could eventually be
settled. The most important set-theoretic problem is the *continuum
problem*. The *continuum hypothesis* was proposed by Cantor
in the late nineteenth century. It states that there are no sets
*S* which are too large for there to be a one-to-one
correspondence between *S* and the natural numbers, but too
small for there to exist a one-to-one correspondence between
*S* and the real numbers. Despite strenuous efforts, all
attempts to settle the continuum problem failed. Gödel came to
suspect that the continuum hypothesis is independent of the accepted
principles of set theory. Around 1940, he managed to show that the
continuum hypothesis is consistent with ZFC. A few decades later, Paul
Cohen proved that the negation of the continuum hypothesis is also
consistent with ZFC. Thus Gödel's conjecture of the independence
of the continuum hypothesis was eventually confirmed.

But Gödel's hope that large-cardinal axioms could solve the
continuum problem turned out to be unfounded. The continuum
hypothesis is independent of ZFC even in the context of most
large-cardinal axioms. Nevertheless, large-cardinal principles have
managed to settle restricted versions of the continuum hypothesis (in
the affirmative). The existence of so-called Woodin cardinals ensures
that sets definable in analysis are either countable or the size of
the continuum. Thus the *definable continuum problem* is
settled.

In recent years, attempts have been focused on finding principles of a different kind which might be justifiable and which might yet decide the continuum hypothesis (Woodin 2001a, 2001b). One of the more general philosophical questions that have emerged from this research is the following: which conditions have to be satisfied in order for a principle to be a putative basic axiom of mathematics?

Many of the researchers who seek to decide the continuum hypothesis on
the basis of new axioms think that there already is significant
evidence for the thesis that the continuum hypothesis is false. But
there are also many set theorists and philosophers of mathematics who
believe that the continuum hypothesis is not just undecidable in ZFC but
*absolutely undecidable*, i.e., that it is neither provable (in
the informal sense of the word) nor disprovable (in the informal sense
of the word). This is related to the more general question whether
*any* reasonable bounds can be placed on the extension of the
concept of informal provability. At present, this area of research is
wide open.

### 5.2 Categoricity

In the second half of the nineteenth century Dedekind proved that the
basic axioms of arithmetic have, up to isomorphism, exactly one model,
and that the same holds for the basic axioms of Real Analysis. If a
theory has, up to isomorphism, exactly one model, then it is said to
be *categorical*. So modulo isomorphisms, arithmetic and
analysis each have exactly one intended model. Half a century later
Zermelo proved that the principles of set theory are
“almost” categorical or *quasi-categorical*: for
any two models *M*_{1} and *M*_{2} of
the principles of set theory, either *M*_{1} is
isomorphic to *M*_{2}, or *M*_{1} is
isomorphic to a strongly inaccessible rank of *M*_{2},
or *M*_{2} is isomorphic to a strongly inaccessible
rank of *M*_{1}. Recently, McGee has shown that if we consider
set theory with Urelements, then the theory is *fully*
categorical with respect to pure sets if we assume that there are only
set-many Urelements (McGee 1997).

At the same time, the Löwenheim-Skolem theorem says that every first-order formal theory that has at least one model with an infinite domain, must have models with domains of all infinite cardinalities. Since the principles of arithmetic, analysis and set theory had better possess at least one infinite model, the Löwenheim-Skolem theorem appears to apply to them. Is this not in tension with Dedekind's categoricity theorems?

The solution of this conundrum lies in the fact that Dedekind did not
even implicitly work with first-order formalizations of the basic
principles of arithmetic and analysis. Instead, he informally worked
with *second-order* formalizations. The same holds for Zermelo
and McGee.

Let us focus on arithmetic to see what this amounts to. The basic
postulates of arithmetic contain the induction axiom. In first-order
formalizations of arithmetic, this is formulated as a scheme: for each
first-order arithmetical formula with one free variable, an instance
of the induction principle is included in the formalization of
arithmetic. Elementary cardinality considerations reveal that there
are infinitely many properties of natural numbers that are not
expressed by a first-order formula. But intuitively, it seems that the
induction principle holds for *all* properties of natural
numbers. So in a first-order language, the full force of the principle
of mathematical induction cannot be expressed. For this reason, a
number of philosophers of mathematics insist that the postulates of
arithmetic should be formulated in a *second-order language*
(Shapiro 1991). Second-order languages contain not just first-order
quantifiers that range over elements of the domain, but also
second-order quantifiers that range over properties (or subsets) of
the domain. In *full* second-order logic, it is insisted that
these second-order quantifiers range over *all* subsets of the
domain. If the principles of arithmetic are formulated in a
second-order language, then Dedekind's argument goes through and we
have a categorical theory. For similar reasons, we also obtain a
categorical theory if we formulate the basic principles of Real
Analysis in a second-order language, and the second-order formulation
of set theory turns out to be quasi-categorical.

*Ante rem* structuralism, as well as the modal nominalist
structuralist interpretation of mathematics, could benefit from a
second-order formulation. If the *ante rem* structuralist wants to
insists that the natural-number structure is fixed up to isomorphism by
the Peano axioms, then she will want to formulate the Peano axioms in
second-order logic. And the modal nominalist structuralist will want to
insist that the relevant concrete systems for arithmetic are those that
make the *second-order* Peano axioms true (Hellman 1989).
Similarly for mathematical analysis and set theory. Thus the appeal to
second-order logic appears as the final step in the structuralist
project of isolating the intended models of mathematics.

Yet appeal to second-order logic in the philosophy of mathematics is
by no means uncontroversial. A first objection is that the ontological
commitment of second-order logic is higher than the ontological
commitment of first-order logic. After all, use of second-order logic
seems to commit us to the existence of abstract objects: classes. In
response to this problem, Boolos has articulated an interpretation of
second-order logic which avoids this commitment to abstract entities
(Boolos 1985). His interpretation spells out the truth clauses for the
second-order quantifiers in terms of plural expressions, without
invoking classes. For instance, a second-order expression of the form
∃*X**F*(*X*) is interpreted as:
“there are some things such that *F* holds of
them”. This interpretation is called the *plural
interpretation* of second-order logic. (See the entry on
plural quantification.)
It is clear that an appeal
to such an interpretation of second-order logic will be tempting for
nominalist versions of structuralism.

A second objection against second-order logic can be traced back to
Quine (Quine 1970). This objection states that the interpretation of
full second-order logic is connected with set-theoretical questions.
This is already indicated by the fact that most regimentations of
second-order logic adopt a version of the axiom of choice as one of
its axioms. But more worrisome is the fact that second-order logic is
inextricably intertwined with *deep* problems in set theory,
such as the continuum hypothesis. For theories such as arithmetic,
which intend to describe an infinite collection of objects, even a
matter as elementary as the question of the cardinality of the range
of the second-order quantifiers is equivalent to the continuum
problem. Also, it turns out that there exists a sentence which is a
second-order logical truth if and only if the continuum hypothesis
holds (Boolos 1975). We have seen that the continuum problem is
independent of the currently accepted principles of set theory. And
many researchers believe it to be absolutely truth-valueless. If this
is so, then there is an inherent indeterminacy in the very notion of
second-order infinite model. And many contemporary philosophers of
mathematics take the latter not to have a determinate truth
value. Thus, it is argued, the very notion of an (infinite) model of
full second-order logic is inherently indeterminate.

If one does not want to appeal to full second-order logic, then there
are other ways to ensure categoricity of mathematical theories. One
idea would be to make use of quantifiers which are somehow
intermediate between first-order and second-order quantifiers. For
instance, one might treat “there are finitely many
*x*” as a primitive quantifier. This will allow one, for
instance, to construct a categorical axiomatization of arithmetic.

But ensuring categoricity of mathematical theories does not require
introducing stronger quantifiers. Another option would be to take the
informal concept of algorithmic computability as a primitive notion
(Halbach & Horsten 2005). A theorem of Tennenbaum states that all
first-order models of Peano Arithmetic in which addition and
multiplication are computable functions, are isomorphic to each
other. Now *our* operations of addition and multiplication are
computable: otherwise we could never have learned these
operations. This, then, is another way in which we may be able to
isolate the intended models of our principles of arithmetic. Against
this account, however, it may be pointed out that it seems that the
categoricity of intended models for real analysis, for instance,
cannot be ensured in this manner. For computation on models of the
principles of real analysis, we do not have a theorem that plays the
role of Tennenbaum's theorem.

### 5.3 Computation and Proof

Until fairly recently, the subject of computation did not receive much attention in the philosophy of mathematics. This may be due in part to the fact that in Hilbert-style axiomatizations of number theory, computation is reduced to proof in Peano Arithmetic. But this situation has changed in recent years. It seems that along with the increased importance of computation in mathematical practice, philosophical reflections on the notion of computation will occupy a more prominent place in the philosophy of mathematics in the years to come.

Church's Thesis occupies a central place in computability theory. It says that every algorithmically computable function on the natural numbers can be computed by a Turing machine.

As a principle, Church's Thesis has a somewhat curious status. It
appears to be a *basic* principle. On the one hand, the
principle is almost universally held to be true. On the other hand, it
is hard to see how it can be mathematically proved. The reason is that
its antecedent contains an informal notion (algorithmic computability)
whereas its consequent contains a purely mathematical notion (Turing
machine computability). Mathematical proofs can only connect purely
mathematical notions — or so it seems. The received view was
that our evidence for Church's Thesis is quasi-empirical. Attempts to
find convincing counterexamples to Church's Thesis led to
naught. Independently, various proposals have been made to
mathematically capture the algorithmically computable functions on the
natural numbers. Instead of Turing machine computability, the notions
of general recursiveness, Herbrand-Gödel computability,
lambda-definability, … have been proposed. But these mathematical
notions all turn out to be equivalent. Thus, to use Gödelian
terminology, we have accumulated extrinsic evidence for the truth of
Church's Thesis.

Kreisel pointed out long ago that even if a thesis cannot be formally
proved, it may still be possible to obtain intrinsic evidence for it
from a rigorous but informal analysis of intuitive notions (Kreisel
1967). Kreisel calls these *exercises in informal
rigour*. Detailed scholarship by Sieg revealed that Turing's
seminal article (Turing 1936) constitutes an exquisite example of just
this sort of analysis of the intuitive concept of algorithmic
computability (Sieg 1994).

Currently, the most active subjects of investigation in the domain of
foundations and philosophy of computation appear to be the
following. First, energy has been invested in developing theories of
algorithmic computation on structures other than the natural numbers.
In particular, efforts have been made to obtain analogues of Church's
Thesis for algorithmic computation on various structures. In this
context, substantial progress has been made in recent decades in
developing a theory of effective computation on the real numbers
(Pour-El 1999). Second, attempts have been made to explicate notions
of computability other than algorithmic computability by humans. One
area of particular interest here is the area of *quantum
computation* (Deutsch *et al*. 2000).

The past decades have witnessed the first occurrences of mathematical
proofs in which computers appear to play an essential role. The
four-colour theorem is one example. It says that for every map, only
four colours are needed to colour countries in such a way that no two
countries that have a common border receive the same color. This
theorem was proved in 1976 (Appel *et al*. 1977). But the proof
distinguishes many cases which were verified by a computer. These
computer verifications are too long to be double-checked by humans.
The proof of the four-colour theorem gave rise to a debate about the
question to what extent computer-assisted proofs count as proofs in
the true sense of the word.

The received view has it that mathematical proofs yield a priori
knowledge. Yet when we rely on a computer to generate (part of) a
proof, we appear to rely on the proper functioning of computer
hardware and on the correctness of a computer program. These appear to
be empirical factors. Thus one is tempted to conclude that computer
proofs yield *quasi-empirical* knowledge (Tymoczko 1979). In
other words, through the advent of computer proofs the notion of proof
has lost its purely a priori character. Others hold that the empirical
factors on which we rely when we accept computer proofs do not appear
as premises in the argument. Hence, computer proofs can yield a
priori knowledge after all (Burge 1998).

The source of the discomfort that mathematicians experience when
confronted with computer proofs appears to be the following. A
“good” mathematical proof should do more than to convince
us that a certain statement is true. It should also explain
*why* the statement in question holds. And this is done by
referring to deep relations between deep mathematical concepts that
often link different mathematical domains (Manders 1989). Until now,
computer proofs typically only employ low-level mathematical concepts.
They are notoriously weak at developing deep concepts on their own,
and have difficulties with linking concepts from different
mathematical fields. All this leads us to a philosophical question
which is just now beginning to receive the attention that it deserves:
what is mathematical understanding?

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## Other Internet Resources

- FOM — Foundations Of Mathematics (an automated email list).

## Related Entries

Church-Turing Thesis | Continuum Hypothesis, The | Frege, Gottlob: logic, theorem, and foundations for arithmetic | Hilbert, David: program in the foundations of mathematics | logic: intuitionistic | mathematics, philosophy of: fictionalism | mathematics, philosophy of: formalism | mathematics, philosophy of: indispensability arguments in the | mathematics, philosophy of: intuitionism | mathematics, philosophy of: nominalism | mathematics, philosophy of: Platonism | mathematics, philosophy of: structuralism | mathematics: constructive | model theory: first-order | plural quantification | set theory | type theory | Wittgenstein, Ludwig: philosophy of mathematics

### Acknowledgments

The editors would like to thank Christopher von Bülow for carefully reading this entry and bringing numerous typographical errors to our attention.