## Notes to Infinitary Logic

1.
Observe,
however, that while the formation rules for
L(κ,λ)
allow the deployment of infinitely many quantifiers, each preformula
can contain only finitely many *alternations* of
quantifiers. Languages permitting infinite quantifier alternations
have been developed in the literature, but we shall not discuss them
here.

2. This remark loses its force when the base language contains predicate symbols with infinitely many argument places. However, this possibility is excluded here since our base language is a conventional first-order language.

3.
The *I*-*fold* copower of an object *A* is an
object

∐_{I}A

together with arrows

A→ _{σ}i∐ _{I}A( i∈I)

such that, for any arrows ƒ_{i} :
*A* → *B* (*i* ∈ *I*), there is a
unique arrow

∐ _{I}A→ _{h}B

for which ƒ_{i} = *h* ○
σ_{i} for all *i* ∈ *I*.

4.
I.e., such that
no contradictions can be derived from Δ using the deductive
machinery in ** P**.

5.
If *A*
is a set, ∈ ⨡ *A* denotes the membership relation on
*A*, i.e., {⟨*x, y*⟩ ∈ *A* ×
*A* : *x* ∈ *y*}.

6.
Strictly speaking, this is only the case when κ is
*regular*, that is, not the limit of < κ cardinals
each of which is < κ. In view of the fact that “most”
cardinals are regular, we shall take this as read.

7.
It should be
pointed out, however, that there are languages
L(κ,λ)
apart from
L(ω,ω)
and
L(ω_{1},ω) which are complete;
for example, all languages
L(κ^{+},ω) and
L(λ,λ)
with inaccessible λ.

8.
This is just a consequence of the fact that a first-order deduction
is a finite sequence, hence a member of *H*(ω).

9. Take σ to be any logically false sentence!

10.
A set *A* is *transitive* if *x* ∈
*y* ∈ *A* ⇒ *x* ∈ *A*.