Supplement to Common Knowledge

Proof of Lemma 2.16

Lemma 2.16.
M(ω) is common knowledge for the agents of N at ω.

Since M is a coarsening of Hi for each iN, Ki(M(ω)). Hence, K1N(M(ω) ), and since by definition Ki(M(ω)) = { ω | Hi(ω) ⊆ M(ω)} = M(ω),

K1N(M(ω)) =  

Ki(M(ω)) = M(ω)

Applying the recursive definition of mutual knowledge, for any m ≥ 1,

KmN(M(ω)) =  

Ki(Km−1N(M(ω)) =  

Ki(M(ω)) = M(ω)

so, since ω ∈ M(ω), by definition we have ω ∈ K*N(M(ω)). □

Return to Common Knowledge

Copyright © 2013 by
Peter Vanderschraaf
Giacomo Sillari <>

This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.
Please note that some links may no longer be functional.
[an error occurred while processing this directive]