Beauty is an important part of our lives. Ugliness too. It is no surprise then that philosophers since antiquity have been interested in our experiences of and judgments about beauty and ugliness. They have tried to understand the nature of these experiences and judgments, and they have also wanted to know whether these experiences and judgments were legitimate. Both these projects took a sharpened form in the twentieth century, when this part of our lives came under a sustained attack in both European and North American intellectual circles. Much of the discourse about beauty since the eighteenth century had deployed a notion of the “aesthetic”, and so that notion in particular came in for criticism. This disdain for the aesthetic may have roots in a broader cultural Puritanism, which fears the connection between the aesthetic and pleasure. At one time, from the 1960s to the 1990s, even to suggest that an artwork might be good because it is pleasurable, as opposed to cognitively, morally or politically beneficial, was to court derision. (This is less true now.) The twentieth century was not kind to the notions of beauty or the aesthetic. Nevertheless, there were always some thinkers—philosophers, as well as others in the study of particular arts—who persisted in thinking seriously about beauty and the aesthetic. In the first part of this essay, we will look at the particularly rich account of judgments of beauty given to us by Immanuel Kant. The notion of a “judgment of taste” is central to Kant’s account and also to virtually everyone working in traditional aesthetics; so we begin by examining Kant’s characterization of the judgment of taste. In the second part, we look at the issues that twentieth century thinkers raised. In the third part, we consider disinterestedness, which is taken by Kant to be part of the judgment of taste. We end, the fourth part, by drawing on Kant’s account of the judgment of taste to consider whether the notion of the aesthetic is viable.
- 1. The Judgment of Taste
- 2. Other Features of Aesthetic Judgments
- 3. Disinterestedness
- 4. The Notion of the Aesthetic
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
1. The Judgment of Taste
What is a judgment of taste? Kant isolated two fundamental necessary conditions for a judgment to be a judgment of taste—subjectivity and universality (Kant 1790/2000). Other conditions may also contribute to what it is to be a judgment of taste, but they are consequential on, or predicated on, the two fundamental conditions. In this respect Kant followed the lead of Hume and other writers in the British sentimentalist tradition (Hume 1757/1985).
The first necessary condition of a judgment of taste is that it is essentially subjective. What this means is that the judgment of taste is based on a feeling of pleasure or displeasure. It is this that distinguishes judgments of taste from empirical judgments. Central examples of judgments of taste are judgments of beauty and ugliness. Judgments of taste can be about art or nature.
This subjectivist thesis would be over-strict if it were interpreted in an “atomistic” fashion, so that some subjective response corresponds to every judgment of taste, and vice versa. Sometimes one makes a judgment of taste on inductive grounds or on the basis of authority. A more holistic picture of the relation between response and judgment preserves the spirit of the subjectivist doctrine while fitting our actual lives more accurately. The subjectivist doctrine needs to be refined in order to deal with the cases of induction and authority. But it must not be abandoned. The doctrine is basically right.
However, it is not obvious what to make of the subjectivity of the judgment of taste. We need an account of the nature of the pleasure on which judgments of beauty are based.
Beyond a certain point, this issue cannot be pursued independently of metaphysical issues about realism, for the metaphysics we favor is bound to affect our view of the nature of the pleasure we take in beauty. In particular, we need to know whether or not pleasure in beauty represents properties of beauty and ugliness that things possess. If not, does it involve our cognitive faculties that we deploy for understanding the world, as Kant thought? Or is it not a matter of the cognitive faculties, but a matter of sentimental reactions, which are schooled in various ways, as Hume thought? These are very hard questions. But there are some things we can say about the pleasure involved in finding something beautiful without raising the temperature too high.
Kant makes various points about pleasure in the beautiful, which fall short of what we might call his “deep” account of the nature of pleasure in beauty, according to which it is the harmonious free play of the cognitive faculties, of imagination and understanding. According to Kant’s “surface” account of pleasure in beauty, it is not mere sensuous gratification, as in the pleasure of sensation, or of eating and drinking. Unlike such pleasures, pleasure in beauty is occasioned by the perceptual representation of a thing. (In contemporary terms, we would put this by saying that pleasure in beauty has an intentional content.) Moreover, unlike other sorts of intentional pleasures, pleasure in beauty is “disinterested”. This means, roughly, that it is a pleasure that does not involve desire—pleasure in beauty is desire-free. That is, the pleasure is neither based on desire nor does it produce one by itself. In this respect, pleasure in beauty is unlike pleasure in the agreeable, unlike pleasure in what is good for me, and unlike pleasure in what is morally good. According to Kant, all such pleasures are “interested”—they are bound up with desire. This is discussed in section 3 below. This is all important as far as it goes, but it is all negative. We need to know what pleasure in beauty is, as well as what it is not. What can be said of a more positive nature?
In order to see what is special about pleasure in beauty, we must shift the focus back to consider what is special about the judgment of taste. For Kant, the judgment of taste claims “universal validity”, which he describes as follows:
… … if [someone] pronounces that something is beautiful, then he expects the very same satisfaction of others: he judges not merely for himself, but for everyone, and speaks of beauty as if it were a property of things. Hence he says that the thing is beautiful, and does not count on the agreement of others with his judgment of satisfaction because he has frequently found them to the agreeable with his own, but rather demands it from them. He rebukes them if they judge otherwise, and denies that they have taste, for he nevertheless requires that they ought to have it; and to this extent one cannot say, “Everyone has his special taste”. This would be as much as to say that there is no taste at all, i.e. no aesthetic judgment that could make a rightful claim to the assent of everyone. (Kant 1790, 5: 212–213 [2000: 98]; see also 2000: 164–166–139)
Kant’s idea is that in a judgment of taste, we demand or require agreement from other human beings in a way we do not in our judgments about the niceness of Canary-wine, which is just a question of individual preference. In matters of taste and beauty, we think that others ought to share our judgment. That is why we blame them if they don’t. It is because the judgment of taste has such an aspiration to universal validity that it seems “as if [beauty] were a property of things”.
Now, if the above quotation were all that Kant had to say by way of elucidating the judgment of taste, then he would not have said enough. For the following question is left hanging: why do we require that others share our judgment? We might want others to share our judgment for all sorts of strange reasons. Maybe we will feel more comfortable. Maybe we will win a bet. And if we say that they ought to judge a certain way, we need to say more. In what sense is this true? What if someone cannot appreciate some excellent work of art because they are grief-stricken? What if it would distract someone from some socially worthy project? Of what nature is this “ought”?
We can recast the point about how we ought to judge in austere terms by saying that there is a certain normative constraint on our judgments of taste that is absent in our judgments about the niceness of Canary-wine. The most primitive expression of this normativity is this: some are correct, others incorrect. Or perhaps, even more cautiously: some judgments are better than others. We do not think that something is beautiful merely to me, in the way that we might say that some things just happen to give me sensuous pleasure. Of course, we might well say “I think X is beautiful”, because we wish to express uncertainty, but where we judge confidently, we think of our judgment as being correct. And that means that we think that the opposite judgment would be incorrect. We assume that not all judgments of beauty are equally appropriate. “Each to their own taste” only applies to judgments of niceness and nastiness, which Kant calls “judgments of agreeableness” (see Kant 1790, 5: 212–213, 291–292 [2000: 97–98, 171–172]).
Of course, some people just know about food (especially in France, Italy, India and Japan). There are experts and authorities on making delicious food and in knowing what will taste good (Kant 1790, 5: 213 [2000: 98]). But what these people know is what will taste pleasurable to a certain kind of palate. In a sense, some things just do taste better than others, and some judgments of excellence in food are better than others. There is even a sense in which some are correct and others incorrect. Still, this is only relative to “normal” human beings. There is no idea of correctness according to which someone with very unusual pleasures and displeasure is at fault, or according to which the majority of human beings can be wrong. (Kant says that judgments of agreeableness have “general” but not “universal” validity; 1790, 5: 213 [2000: 213].) But in the case of judgments of taste or beauty, correctness is not hostage to what most people like or judge. We may say that it is a mistake to use much salt or sugar but that is only because it swamps the flavors that would be enjoyed by most people.
To say that a judgment of taste makes a claim to correctness might seem merely to shift from the problematic “ought” that is involved in a judgment of taste to a problematic “correctness” or “betterness”. This may be inevitable. We are dealing with a normative notion, and while some normative notions may be explainable in terms of others, we cannot express normative notions in non-normative terms.
In some cases, the correctness of a judgment of taste may be impossibly difficult to decide. We may even think that there is no right answer to be had if we are asked to compare two very different things. But in many other cases, we think that there is a right and a wrong answer at which we are aiming, and that our judgments can be erroneous. If we do not think this, in at least some cases, then we are not making a judgment of taste—we are doing something else.
It is true that some people sometimes express the view that no judgments of taste are really better than others. They say, “There is no right and wrong about matters of taste”. Others will express the same thought by saying that beauty is “relative” to individual judgment or preference, or that it is “socially relative”. Such relativism is part of the intellectual air in in certain parts of the humanities. In particular, many intellectuals have expressed dislike of the idea that judgments of taste really have any normative claim, as if that would be uncouth or oppressive. However, if we are describing our thought as it is, not how it ought to be, then there is no getting away from the fact that normativity is a necessary condition of judgments of taste or beauty. Two points should embarrass the relativist. Firstly, people who say this kind of thing are merely theorizing. In the case of judgments of beauty, relativist theory is out of step with common practice, especially their own practice. As with moral relativism, one can almost always catch the professed relativist about judgments of beauty making and acting on non-relative judgments of beauty—for example, in their judgments about music, nature and everyday household objects. Relativists do not practice what they preach. Secondly, one thing that drives people to this implausible relativism, which is so out of line with their own practice, is a perceived connection of relativism with tolerance or anti-authoritarianism. This is what they see as attractive in it. But this is upside-down. For if “it is all relative” and no judgment is better than any other, then relativists put their own judgments beyond criticism, and they cannot get it wrong. Only those who think that there is a right and wrong in judgment can modestly admit that they might be wrong. What looks like an ideology of tolerance is, in fact, the very opposite. Thus, relativism is hypocritical and it is intolerant.
I note that some so-called “experimental philosophers” have recently questioned the thesis the thesis that judgments of taste aspire to correctness on the basis of empirical evidence about those who make judgments of taste (Cova & Pain 2012). But it is not clear that the empirical evidence that they cite supports that skeptical thesis. For the evidence is just that that the experimental subjects tick boxes that ask directly about correctness in judgment. But in psychological experiments there is a requirement on the opacity of the point an experiment to the experimental subjects. Furthermore, people often wax philosophical in a way that is out of step with their actual conceptual practice. For example, some beginners in introduction to moral philosophy classes claim that all moral views are equally correct, and that it is very bad to think otherwise. People who think in a certain way may be defective in self-knowledge, just as those who take part in social rituals may not be able to describe those rituals (see Zangwill forthcoming for critical discussion). We should also bear in mind that the skeptical thesis would also be very surprising given that it departs from not just centuries but millennia of reflection on our aesthetic lives. The answers to questionnaires about correctness in judgment do not reveal the deep nature of people’s thoughts.
1.3 Recasting Normativity
In the normative claim of judgments of taste, as formulated above, other people do not figure in the account. This is an austere explanation of what Kant meant, or perhaps of what he ought to have meant, when he said that the judgment of taste claims “universal validity”, by contrast with judgments about the niceness of Canary-wine. Given this account, we can explain the fact that we think that others ought to share our judgment. They ought to share it on pain of making a judgment which is incorrect or inappropriate. And this would be why we do in fact look to others to share our judgment; we do not want them to make incorrect judgments. It seems that Kant’s reference to other people in characterizing the normativity of judgments of taste has dropped out of the picture as inessential.
However, it is not clear whether Kant would go along with this, for he characterizes normativity in a way that ties in with his eventual explanation of its possibility. Kant expresses the normative idea in a very particular way. He writes:
[we] demand such assent universally (Kant 1790, 5: 214 [2000: 99])
And Kant says that the judgment of taste involves
its validity for everyone. (Kant 1790, 5: 212 [2000: 97])
By contrast, Kant thinks that although we sometimes speak as if our judgments of the agreeable are universally valid (“Lamb tastes better with garlic”), in fact they are not: judgments of the agreeable appeal only to most but not to all people (Kant 1790, 5: 213 [2000: 98]).
However, the austere characterization attempts to catch a more basic idea of normativity—one that might serve as the target of rival explanations. In order to explain how subjectively universal judgments are possible, Kant has a complicated story about the harmonious interplay of the cognitive faculties—imagination and understanding—which he thinks constitutes pleasure in beauty (Kant 1790, 5: 219 [2000: 104]). This “deep” account of pleasure in beauty is highly controversial and not particularly plausible (see Budd 2001). But we can see why Kant gives it. For Kant, the normative claim of the judgment of taste has its roots in the more general workings of our cognitive faculties, which Kant thinks we can assume others share. Thus, we have the beginnings of an explanation of how such a pleasure can ground a judgment that makes a universal claim. However, Kant does not have much to say about the nature of the “universality” or normativity that is being explained by such a speculative account of pleasure in beauty. It is no accident that Kant phrases the obligation in interpersonal terms, considering where he is going. And it is no great fault on his part that he does so. But for our purposes, we need to separate what is being explained from its explanation. For if Kant’s explanation does not work, we want to be left with a characterization of the normativity he was trying to explain. We need to separate Kant’s problem from his solution, so that the former is left if the latter fails. There may be alternative solutions to his problem.
1.4 Normativity and Pleasure
As described, normativity attaches to judgments of taste themselves. What does this imply for pleasure in beauty? Since judgments of taste are based on responses of pleasure, it would make little sense if our judgments were more or less appropriate but our responses were not. The normative claim of our judgments of taste must derive from the fact that we think that some responses are better or more appropriate to their object than others. Responses only license judgments which can be more or less appropriate because responses themselves can be more or less appropriate. If I get pleasure from drinking Canary-wine and you do not, neither of us will think of the other as being mistaken. But if you don’t get pleasure from Shakespeare’s Sonnets, I will think of you as being in error—not just your judgment, but your liking. I think that I am right to have my response, and that your response is defective. Someone who thinks that there is, in Hume’s words, “an equality of genius” between some inferior composer, on the one hand, and J. S. Bach, on the other, has a defective sensibility (Hume 1757 [1985: 230]). Roger Scruton puts the point well when he says:
When we study [the Einstein Tower and the Giotto campanile] … our attitude is not simply one of curiosity, accompanied by some indefinable pleasure or satisfaction. Inwardly, we affirm our preference as valid…. (Scruton 1979: 105)
This is the reason why we demand the same feeling from others, even if we do not expect it. We think that our response is more appropriate to its object than its opposite. And, in turn, this is why we think that our judgment about that object is more correct than its opposite. The normativity of judgment derives from the normativity of feeling.
But how can some feelings be better or worse than others? To answer this question, we need to ask: how far does the normativity of judgments of taste inhere in the feeling itself? The realist about beauty will say that the feeling has normativity built into it in virtue of its representational content; the feelings themselves can be more or less veridical. Pleasure in beauty, for example, has as its object the genuine property of beauty; we find the beauty pleasurable. A Humean sentimentalist will probably say that normativity is something we somehow construct or foist upon our pleasures and displeasures, which have no such content. And Kant has his own account, which appeals to cognitive states that are not beliefs. The issue is controversial. However, what we can say for sure is that it is definitive of pleasure in beauty that it licenses judgments that make claim to correctness. Beyond this, there will be theoretical divergence.
This normativity is definitive of the judgment of taste, and is its second defining characteristic, which we should add to the fact that it is based on subjective grounds of pleasure or displeasure.
1.5 Judgments of Taste and the Big Question
We can sum things up like this: judgments of taste occupy a mid-point between judgments of niceness and nastiness, and empirical judgments about the external world. Judgments of taste are like empirical judgments in that they have universal validity, but they are unlike empirical judgment in that they are made on the basis of an inner subjective response. Conversely, judgments of taste are like judgments of niceness or nastiness in that they are made on the basis of an inner subjective response, but they are unlike judgments of niceness and nastiness, which make no claim to universal validity. To cut the distinctions the other way: in respect of normativity, judgments of taste are like empirical judgments and unlike judgments of niceness or nastiness, but in respect of subjectivity, judgments of taste are unlike empirical judgments and like judgments of niceness or nastiness. So, we have a three-fold division: empirical judgments, judgments of taste, and judgments of niceness or nastiness. And judgments of taste have the two points of similarity and dissimilarity on each side just noted.
As Kant recognized (more or less following Hume), all this is a point from which to theorize. The hard question is whether, and if so how, such a subjectively universal judgment is possible. On the face of it, the two characteristics are in tension with each other. Our puzzle is this: what must be the nature of pleasure in beauty if the judgments we base on it can make claim to correctness? This is the Big Question in aesthetics. Kant’s problem was the right one, even if his solution was not.
However, our hope thus far has been to get clearer about what it is that is under scrutiny in this debate. Once we are armed with a modest account of what a judgment of taste is, we can then proceed to more ambitious questions about whether or not judgments of taste represent real properties of beauty and ugliness, and if not, how else the normativity of aesthetic judgment is to be explained. We can even consider whether or not our whole practice of making judgments of taste is defective and should be jettisoned. But first things first.
2. Other Features of Aesthetic Judgments
There is more to aesthetic judgment than just subjectivity and normativity, and this should be described more fully. The following is a survey of a number of other candidate features of aesthetic judgments: truth, mind-independence, nonaesthetic dependence, and lawlessness.
2.1 Aesthetic Truth
The normativity of aesthetic judgments can be recast in terms of a particular conception of aesthetic truth. For some purposes, it is useful to do this. It might be thought that deploying the idea of aesthetic truth commits us to the existence of an aesthetic reality. But this worry springs from the assumption that a strong correspondence conception of truth is all there ever is to truth in any area where we might employ the notion. In many areas—scientific and psychological thought, for example—a strong correspondence conception of truth is likely to be in question. However, the conception of truth applicable in aesthetics might be one according to which truth only implies the sort of normativity described above, according to which there are correct and incorrect judgments of taste, or at least that some judgments are better than others.
If we deploy the notion of truth, we might express the normative idea by saying if a judgment is true then its opposite is false. Or we might say that the law of non-contradiction applies to aesthetic judgments: there are some aesthetic judgments such that they and their negations cannot both be true. This principle need not hold of all judgments of taste, so long as it holds of a significant proportion of them.
Such a normative conception of truth is stronger than a notion of truth which is merely a device for “semantic assent”; that is, normative truth is more than thin “disquotational” truth. Even judgments of the agreeable, about the niceness of Canary-wine, can have access to an inconsequential disquotational conception of truth. We can say “Canary-wine is nice’ is true if and only if Canary-wine is nice” without raising the temperature. However, judgments about the niceness of Canary-wine do not aspire to a normative conception of truth. There are no right and wrong answers to the question of whether Canary-wine really is nice. And so, of neither the judgment that it is nice nor the judgment that it is not nice can it be said that if it is true then its opposite is false. But this is what we do say of some aesthetic judgments.
However, although we can cast aesthetic normativity in terms of truth, we need not do so. Aesthetic “truth”, in fact, adds little to the notion of correctness that we have already encountered. We can do without the word “true”. We can say that something cannot both be beautiful and ugly (in the same respect at the same time), and that if something is beautiful then it is not ugly (in the same respect at the same time).
2.2 Mind-dependence and Nonaesthetic Dependence
Given an understanding of the normativity of judgments of taste—which we might or might not express in terms of aesthetic truth—we can and should add some more sophisticated normative features, which are also important.
One such feature is mind-independence. Mind-independence is best expressed as a negative thesis: whether something is beautiful does not depend on my judgment. Thinking it so does not make it so. This can be re-expressed in conditional terms: it is not the case that if I think something is beautiful then it is beautiful. This is common sense. For example, most of us think that our judgments have improved since we were younger. We think that some of our past judgments were in error. Thinking it so, at that time, did not make it so. Perhaps some more complicated, sophisticated mind-dependence thesis holds; but a simple mind-dependence claim flouts common sense.
We also think that beauty, ugliness and other aesthetic properties depend on nonaesthetic properties. Dependence contrasts with mind-independence in that it says what aesthetic properties do depend on, as opposed to what they do not depend on: the aesthetic properties of a thing depend on its nonaesthetic properties. This dependence relation implies (but is not identical with) the supervenience relation or relations: (a) two aesthetically unlike things must also be nonaesthetically unlike; (b) something could not change aesthetically unless it also changed nonaesthetically; and (c) something could not have been aesthetically different unless it were also nonaesthetically different. These are, respectively: cross-object supervenience, cross-time supervenience, and cross-world supervenience. (“Supervenience” has often been discussed under the heading of “dependence” but actually they are distinct relations, related in a complex way.) Sibley’s papers “Aesthetic Concepts” and “Aesthetic/Nonaesthetic” were pioneering discussions of the dependence of the aesthetic on the nonaesthetic (Sibley 1959, 1965). (It is interesting that he never described the dependence in modal terms.)
This claim is very intuitive, but let us try to say something more in support of it. It seems to be a deep fact about beauty and other aesthetic properties that they are inherently “sociable”; beauty cannot be lonely. Something cannot be barely beautiful; if something is beautiful then it must be in virtue of its nonaesthetic properties. Furthermore, knowing this is a constraint on our judgments about beauty and other aesthetic properties. We cannot just judge that something is beautiful; we must judge that it is beautiful in virtue of its nonaesthetic properties. We usually do so, and not to do so is bizarre. (Even in cases of testimony, we think that the aesthetic properties of a thing hold in virtue of nonaesthetic properties that the aesthetic expert knows.) Of course, we might not have in mind every single nonaesthetic property of the thing, nor know exactly how the nonaesthetic properties produce their aesthetic effect. But we think that certain nonaesthetic properties are responsible for the aesthetic properties and that without those nonaesthetic properties, the aesthetic properties would not have been instantiated. Beauty does not float free, and recognizing this is constitutive of aesthetic thought. Our aesthetic thought, therefore, is fundamentally different from our thought about colors, with which it is often compared. Perhaps colors are tied in some intimate way to intrinsic or extrinsic physical properties of the surfaces of things, such as reflectance properties. But color thought does not presuppose this. Someone might even think that colors are bare properties of things. But one cannot think that beauty is bare; it is essential to aesthetic thought to realize that the aesthetic properties of a thing arise from its nonaesthetic properties.
The principles of correctness, mind-independence and dependence can be phrased in the property mode or in terms of truth. We can cast them either way. We can say that whether something is beautiful does not depend on what we think about it, but it does depend on its nonaesthetic features. Or we can equally well say that the truth of aesthetic judgments is independent of our aesthetic judgments but it is dependent on nonaesthetic truths. Semantic ascent changes little.
2.3 On Which Non-aesthetic Properties Do Aesthetic Properties Depend?
Some have argued that what aesthetic properties depend on (their “dependence base”) extends beyond the intrinsic physical and sensory features of the object of aesthetic assessment (Walton 1970), who follows Gombrich 1959, especially p. 313). The nonaesthetic dependence base, Walton thinks, always includes “contextual properties”—matters to do with the origin of the work of art, or other works of art. Others dispute this (Zangwill 1999). This is one aspect of debates over formalism in many domains. These issues are important and they are a matter of substantive aesthetic differences in the approach to making and appreciating various arts, and also in the aesthetics of nature. But such debates all presuppose that some dependence thesis holds. The controversial questions are about the extent of the dependence base of aesthetic properties, not whether aesthetic properties have some nonaesthetic dependence base.
One view is that aesthetic properties depend on the appearances of things—the way things look or sound, for example (see Mitrović 2013, 2018). If so, there is a sense in which aesthetic properties are mind-dependent, since appearances are appearances to some observer. However, some say that there can be aesthetic properties of abstract objects such as mathematical or logical proofs or structures. And some say that ideas or concepts in conceptual art may be the bearers of aesthetic properties. (Schellekens 2007). Those aesthetic properties would be mind-independent. The question of the aesthetic properties of abstract objects is a controversial one (Kivy 1991, Barker 2009).
2.4 Dependence and Lawlessness
Thus far we have been making positive claims about features of aesthetic judgments. Let us now consider the claim that there are no interesting nonaesthetic-to-aesthetic laws or principles, and the claim that an aesthetic/nonaesthetic dependence relation can obtain, even though there are no such interesting laws or principles. Here “interesting” laws or principles of taste means generalizations to the effect that anything of such and such a nonaesthetic kind is of such and such aesthetic kind, and these generalizations can be used to predict aesthetic properties on the basis of knowledge of nonaesthetic properties. In this sense, many find it plausible that there are no laws of taste and aesthetic properties are anomalous.
The problem of the source of correctness in aesthetic judgment is independent of the question of whether there are laws, rules or principles of taste. There is no reason to think that the possibility of correct or true judgments depends on the existence of laws, rules or principles from which we can deduce our correct or true judgments.
Nevertheless, the anomalousness of aesthetics is worth thinking about in its own right. Many aestheticians agree that the aesthetic is anomalous in the above sense. But they are not agreed on the explanation of anomalousness.
A notable exception to this consensus is Monroe Beardsley, who claims—heroically and extraordinarily—that there are exactly three aesthetic principles: things are aesthetically excellent either by being unified or intense or complex (Beardsley 1958: chapter XI). However, Beardsley’s “trinitarian” position faces difficulties similar to those faced by moral philosophers who appeal to “thick” concepts. If Beardsley insists on a lawlike connection between his three thick substantive aesthetic properties (unity, intensity and complexity) and aesthetic value, he can only do so at the cost of conceding anomalousness between the three thick substantive aesthetic properties and nonaesthetic properties. There are three layers and one can hold onto laws between the top and middle layers only by losing laws between the middle and bottom layers. Maybe intensity is always aesthetically good, but there are no laws about what makes things intense.
Granting the anomalousness of aesthetic properties, then, we need to explain it. There is great plausibility in Hume and Kant’s suggestion that what explains the anomalousness of the aesthetic is the first feature of judgments of taste—that judgments of taste are essentially subjective, unlike ordinary empirical judgments about physical, sensory, or semantic properties (Hume 1757 [1985: 231–232]; Kant 1790, 5: 213–216, 281–286 [2000: 99–101, 136–142, 162–167]). This is why the two sorts of concepts are not “nomologically made for each other” (as Donald Davidson  says about mental and physical concepts). How can we bring an essentially subjective range of judgments nomologically into line with a range of empirical judgments? The two kinds of judgments answer to quite different sets of constraints. Frank Sibley observed that aesthetic concepts are not positively “condition-governed” (Sibley 1959). And Mary Mothersill claimed that there are no laws of taste. But neither did much to explain those facts. The appeal to subjectivity explains what Sibley and Mothersill notice and describe. Indeed, Mothersill writes of her “First Thesis” (FT) that there are no genuine principles or laws of taste: “…FT is central to aesthetics, and there is nothing more fundamental from which it could be derived” (Mothersill 1984: 143). But it seems that it can be derived from the subjectivity of judgments of taste.
This kind of anomalousness is one thing, dependence or supervenience another. Even though aesthetic properties are anomalous, they depend and supervene on nonaesthetic properties. Many find such a combination of relations uncomfortable outside aesthetics, such as in moral philosophy and the philosophy of mind. Yet there seem to be good reasons to embrace both principles in aesthetics. Both are firmly rooted in ordinary aesthetic thought.
2.5 The Primacy of Correctness
Aesthetic judgments have certain essential features, and corresponding to those features are certain principles. We can group correctness, mind-independence, and nonaesthetic dependence together. However, it does no harm to focus on the feature of correctness or universal validity for this is the most basic of the features. If aesthetic judgments did not claim correctness or universal validity, they could not claim the other features. If explaining correctness or universal validity is a problem, then so is explaining mind-independence and dependence. But clearly there is a problem about explaining all three features. Why does our aesthetic thought have these three features and thus operate according to these three principles? And what is the source of the right of aesthetic judgments to them? Hume and Kant spend much mental effort on these questions. These presuppositions of aesthetic judgments need to be explained and justified. Given that our aesthetic judgments have these commitments, we need to know how such judgments are possible, how they are actual, and how they are legitimate. Having described and analyzed, as we have done here, we need to explain and justify. But, as noted earlier, we first need a good description of what we are trying to explain and justify.
3.1 Disinterestedness: More and Less Ambitious
An idea that plays a large role in Kant’s discussion of the subjective universality of the judgment of taste is that of disinterestedness; and so the idea should not be overlooked. Kant makes two claims: (a) that pleasure in the beautiful is “disinterested”; and (b) that only pleasure in the beautiful is “disinterested” (Kant 1790, 5: 204–210 [2000: 90–96: 42–50]). These claims are important for Kant’s project, for Kant connects disinterestedness with the claim to universal validity of the judgment of taste. Before we go any further, it is crucial to recognize that the German word “interesse” has a special meaning in eighteenth century German, and it should not be confused with similar sounding English words or even contemporary German words. For Kant, an interesse means a kind of pleasure that is not connected with desire; it is neither grounded in desire, nor does it produce it.
We should distinguish Kant’s more ambitious thesis that only pleasure in the beautiful is disinterested from his less ambitious claim simply that pleasure in the beautiful is disinterested—for it seems that there could in principle be other disinterested pleasures. The less ambitious claim, however, is controversial enough.
The more uncontroversial component of the less ambitious claim is that pleasure in the beautiful is not grounded in the satisfaction of desire. It is plausible, surely, that when we take pleasure in something that we find beautiful, this is not pleasure in the thought that we have got something that we desire. Kant wants pleasure in the beautiful to be open to all (so there should be no “aesthetic luck”), and if desires vary from person to person, it seems that we could not require that pleasure from everyone, as the idea of universal validity requires. The claim to universal validity would be lost if pleasure in beauty were not disinterested in the sense of not being based on desire. This aspect of the idea of disinterestedness has much plausibility.
3.2 Problems with Disinterestedness
However, it is not so clear that pleasure in the beautiful cannot produce desire, which Kant also requires for a pleasure to be disinterested. The issue here is whether the pleasure can produce desire from itself. Kant admits that we have certain general concerns with beauty that mean that desire may follow from a judgment of beauty, but according to Kant, such desires do not have their source solely in pleasure in the beautiful (Kant 1790, sections 41 and 42, on “empirical interest” and “intellectual interest. It may be that we have desires concerning beautiful things, as Kant allows in sections 41 and 42 of the Critique of Judgment, but so long as those desires are not intrinsic to the pleasure in beauty, the doctrine that all pleasure is disinterested is undisturbed. (Critics of Kant sometimes miss this point.)
The less ambitious thesis is controversial because of the second component. An opponent of Kant would claim that pleasure in beauty can produce desire by itself. It is not clear who is right on this point.
Moreover, whether only pleasure in beauty is disinterested, and no other kind of pleasures are disinterested—the ambitious thesis—is also controversial. These are live issues. Kant’s views have much to be said for them. But we can also sympathize with those who are doubtful.
Hume would probably deny Kant’s separation of pleasure in beauty from the motivations that lead us to act. Like other British sentimentalists, Hume thinks that sentiment and passion both fall on the active side of the human mind. So, sentiments are active in themselves. On the other hand, this aspect of the British sentimentalist view is a weakness in their general outlook since they have no place for a faculty of practical reason, and that means that they lack any intelligible conception of human action (Korsgaard 1996, 2009). Humean psychology has no believable understanding of human agency; we are pushed around by our passions.
In his Genealogy of Morals, Friedrich Nietzsche targets Kant’s separation of pleasure in beauty from desire, a separation that is designed to make beauty available to all human beings (Nietzsche 1887 , book 3, section 6, the first page, but not what follows, which targets Schopenhauer). This criticism is distinct from criticism of the idea that judgments of beauty are valid for all human beings. Nietzsche protests that the idea of pleasure in beauty is cut-off from the particularities and idiosyncrasies of our passionate lives is unrealistic and undesirable. It is not clear who is right here. The nub of the issue is the nature of pleasure in the beautiful. Does it have its source in what Human beings share, or in what distinguishes them? Kant might argue, against Nietzsche, that seeing pleasure in beauty as springing from what varies between people, not only places people at the mercy of their good or bad aesthetic upbringing, but also makes untenable the normative claims to correctness or universal validity that are part of judgments of beauty, as we ordinarily conceive of them. “Ought”, in this case, seems to imply “can”. If we lack what it takes to appreciate a certain beauty, then it cannot be required of us, and the normativity of the judgment of taste would be lost. Or so it seems. If judgments of beauty were based on variable pleasures or displeasures, then it seems that the claim to correctness is fraudulent.
But this only follows if we follow Kant in locating pleasure in beauty, and our right to make judgments of beauty, in faculties that all human beings share. Perhaps there are rarefied beauties that only elite special souls can appreciate. For Kant, there is an aesthetic “ought” that binds all human beings only because we share the cognitive faculties that it takes to have the pleasure in question. But this is not the only conceivable source of the aesthetic “ought”. One non-Kantian suggestion would be to locate the source of normativity of the judgment of taste, in the world, not in what human beings share. This would be to invoke a kind of “aesthetic realism”, whereby beauty and ugliness are genuine properties of the world, which make our judgments better or worse. That view might seem metaphysically extravagant. The trouble, though, is how to understand the aesthetic “ought” without that kind of view. Not easy! On a realist view, beauty need not be universally available. But if so, it seems that the rationale for Kant’s doctrine(s) of disinterestedness falls away. The Kantian and perhaps Humenan view locates the source of normativity in what we share. But Nietzsche would ask: is there, and should there, be something that humans share in their responses to beauty? Do we want aristocratic or democratic aesthetics?
4. The Notion of the Aesthetic
4.1 Some Terminological Remarks
Let us now turn to the contemporary notion of the aesthetic. The predicate “aesthetic” can qualify many different kinds of things: judgments, experiences, concepts, properties, or words. It is probably best to take aesthetic judgments as central. We can understand other aesthetic kinds of things in terms of aesthetic judgments: aesthetic properties are those that are ascribed in aesthetic judgments; aesthetic experiences are those that ground aesthetic judgments; aesthetic concepts are those that are deployed in aesthetic judgments; and aesthetic words are those that have the function of being used in the linguistic expression of aesthetic judgments.
The most common contemporary notion of an aesthetic judgment would take judgments of beauty and ugliness as paradigms—what we called “judgments of taste” in part 1. And it excludes judgments about physical properties, such as shape and size, and judgments about sensory properties, such as colors and sounds. However, in addition to judgments of beauty and ugliness, the contemporary notion of an aesthetic judgment is typically used to characterize a class of judgments that also includes judgments of daintiness, dumpiness, delicacy and elegance. In this respect, the contemporary notion seems to be broader than Kant’s, since he focused just on judgments of beauty and ugliness. However, there is also a respect in which the contemporary notion seems to be narrower than Kant’s notion. For Kant used the notion to include both judgments of beauty (or of taste) as well as judgments of the agreeable—for instance, the judgment that Canary-wine is nice (Kant 1790, 5: 203–204, 214 [2000: 89–90 and 99]). But the modern notion, unlike Kant’s, usually excludes judgments of the agreeable. Moreover, the contemporary notion usually excludes judgments about pictorial and semantic content of a work of art. For example, although the judgment that a painting represents a flower might be “relevant” to an aesthetic judgment about it, it is not itself an aesthetic judgment.
4.2 The Problem
The question is: is the contemporary classification “aesthetic” arbitrary? What is it that distinguishes judgments as aesthetic? What do they have in common? And how do they differ from other kinds of judgment? Do these judgments form a well-behaved kind?
It may be worth mentioning in passing that the notion of an aesthetic judgment should not be elucidated in terms of the idea of a work of art; we make aesthetic judgments about nature and we make nonaesthetic judgments about works of art.
The articulation and defense of the notion of the aesthetic in modern times is associated with Monroe Beardsley (1958, 1982) and Frank Sibley (1959, 1965). But their work was attacked by George Dickie, Ted Cohen and Peter Kivy among others (Dickie 1965, Cohen 1973, Kivy 1975).
As noted in Section 2.4, Beardsley claimed, heroically, that aesthetic experience is distinguished by its unity, intensity and complexity. Dickie argued, in reply, that such characteristics were either not plausibly necessary conditions of aesthetic experience, or else that Beardsley’s description of them was inadequate. Part of Dickie’s attack was completely beside the point, since he confused aesthetic experiences with the experiences of works of art; the fact that some experiences of works of art are not as Beardsley describes is irrelevant. But it cannot be denied that Dickie was right that even if the problems of characterizing the three features were resolved, it would still not be plausible that the three Beardsleyian features are necessary (or sufficient) conditions of aesthetic experience. Nevertheless, all that would show would be that Beardsley’s account of the aesthetic is inadequate. That Beardsley’s extraordinary and heroic trinitarian doctrine cannot be maintained does not mean that the notion of the aesthetic should be abandoned. That would be a flawed induction from a single instance.
Sibley claimed that the discernment of aesthetic properties requires a special sensitivity, whereas the discernment of nonaesthetic properties could be achieved by anyone with normal eyes and ears. Furthermore, Sibley claimed that it was distinctive of aesthetic terms or concepts that they were not “condition-governed”, in the sense that they had no nonaesthetic positive criteria for their application. He thought of the faculty of taste as special mental faculty, possessed by people with a distinctive sensitivity. This account of the aesthetic was inadvisable, since it allowed critics like Cohen and Kivy to argue that ascribing many aesthetic properties did not in fact require a special faculty, since anyone can distinguish a graceful line from an ungraceful line. Moreover, some aesthetic ascriptions, such as elegance, do seem to be nonaesthetically “condition-governed”, in Sibley’s sense. Nevertheless—once again—that Sibley’s positive account of the aesthetic is implausible should not lead us to despair about the aesthetic. On the other hand, the pessimistic induction, now with two instances under its belt, is perhaps looking a little less unhealthy—especially given two such distinguished exponents.
Despite this, Sibley was surely minimally right to think that ascribing aesthetic properties to a thing requires more than merely knowing its nonaesthetic properties. Whether or not the extra something is distinctively difficult, erudite, sophisticated or non-condition-governed, it is something over and above nonaesthetic understanding. So perhaps we should keep on trying to articulate the notion of the aesthetic, or at least a useful notion of the aesthetic.
4.3 A Hierarchical Proposal
One strategy is the following. Begin with the account of what it is to be a judgment of taste, or of beauty and ugliness, that was outlined in part 1, and then use that to elucidate the broader notion of an aesthetic judgment. To recall, it was argued that Kant was right, with qualifications, to think that the crucial thing about the judgment of taste is that it has what he calls “subjective universality”; judgments of taste are those that are (a) based on responses of pleasure or displeasure, and (b) claim universal validity, where that can be minimally interpreted as a normative aspiration. The present strategy is to use this Kantian account in order to ground a wider category of the aesthetic, which includes judgments of taste along with judgments of daintiness, dumpiness, delicacy, elegance, and the rest.
Let us call judgments of taste, or judgments of beauty and ugliness, “verdictive aesthetic judgments”, and let us call the other aesthetic judgments (of daintiness, dumpiness, elegance, delicacy, etc.) “substantive aesthetic judgments”. The idea is that these substantive judgments are aesthetic in virtue of a special close relation to verdictive judgments of taste, which are subjectively universal. (We can assume that judgments of beauty and ugliness coincide with judgments of aesthetic merit and demerit. However, even if beauty were taken to be a substantive aesthetic notion, like elegance, delicacy or daintiness, there would remain some other overarching notion of aesthetic merit or excellence, and we could take that notion as central.)
On this approach, judgments of daintiness, dumpiness, delicacy and elegance stand in a special and intimate relation to judgments of beauty and ugliness (or aesthetic merit and demerit), and it is only in virtue of this intimate relation that we can think of all these judgments as belonging to the same category.
Now, what exactly is this special intimate relation between verdictive and substantive aesthetic judgments? Firstly, substantive judgments describe ways of being beautiful or ugly (Burton 1992, Zangwill 1995). It is part of what it is for a thing to be elegant, delicate or dainty that it is beautiful in a particular way. And secondly, it is part of the meaning of substantive aesthetic judgments that they imply verdictive aesthetic judgments. This is the hierarchical proposal.
[Remark: this claim need not be one about words like “dainty” and “delicate”, but it is about the particular substantive judgments that we linguistically express in such words on particular occasions. Both Beardsley and Sibley seem to have made the mistake of casting these issues at the linguistic level rather than at the level of thought; they should have focused not on aesthetic words but on aesthetic judgments and responses. Sibley did say in footnote 1 of Sibley 1959 that he was concerned with “uses” of aesthetic words, but he and everyone else ignored that qualification.]
Let us now see how this hierarchical proposal works. Consider an abstract pattern of curving lines, which is elegant. It might be necessary that that pattern is beautiful. This is because the beauty depends on or is determined by that specific pattern. But it is not part of what it is to be that pattern that it is beautiful. That is, the pattern is necessarily beautiful but it is not essentially beautiful. (On the general distinction between necessity and essence, see Fine 1994.) Furthermore, we can think of that pattern without thinking of it as beautiful.
By contrast, it is both necessary and essential that something that is elegant is beautiful. And this is reflected in our concepts and judgments. We can think of the pattern without thereby thinking of it as beautiful, but to think of the pattern as elegant is to think of it as beautiful, at least in certain respects. Hence elegance is an aesthetic concept.
The hierarchical proposal thus seems to characterize a non-arbitrary and useful notion of the aesthetic. If so, the contemporary broad notion of the aesthetic can be vindicated. We need a hierarchical rather than an egalitarian conception of aesthetic notions.
To see how this works, consider representational properties. Are they aesthetic properties? Suppose that a painting represents a tree and is a beautiful representation of a tree. It is not merely beautiful and a tree representation but beautiful as a tree representation (Zangwill 1999). Of course, that the painting represents a tree is “relevant” to whether it is beautiful because it is part of what its beauty depends on. But being beautiful is not part of what it is to be a representation of a tree. Moreover, to think that the painting represents a tree is not thereby to think that it is beautiful. Being beautiful is not an essential property of the representation, and thinking of the representation does not mean thinking of it as beautiful, even though it may be necessary that it is beautiful. Hence representational properties are not aesthetic properties.
The proposal faces a challenge, however. Jerrold Levinson has argued that not all substantive properties have evaluative valence (Levinson 2001). One of his examples is of “starkly grim”. Being starkly grim seems not always to be a way of being beautiful of ugly. The defender of hierarchy could reply that it is specific uses of these words, in context, that pick out features that have evaluative valences. If so, the particular instance of stark grimness might be a valuable aspect of a thing however it is with other instances of stark grimness. But it might be replied that particular instances of stark grimness may be value-neutral? The issue is a difficult one.
If the hierarchical suggestion fails, then we lack one way of vindicating the notion of the aesthetic, and it is not clear that there is another way. Levinson’s thinks of aesthetic properties as a certain kind of appearance properties. But, firstly, this will rule out the aesthetic properties of abstract objects by fiat; and secondly, there remains the question of what kind of appearance properties aesthetic properties are.
4.4 Beauty and Sublimity
One notion that is hard to place among other aesthetic notions is that of sublimity. There is a long and venerable tradition of thinking that beauty and sublimity share equal status as fundamental aesthetic categories. Sublimity comes in different varieties. Kant distinguishes “mathematically” and “dynamically” sublime, roughly, corresponding to our sense of the enormity or power of things. The fundamental question about beauty and sublimity is whether they exclude each other. According to the long and venerable tradition, if something is sublime then it is not beautiful and vice versa. Many have conceived of sublimity such that it excludes beauty. But this is questionable.
If we conceive of beauty narrowly, where it merely means a certain elegance and prettiness (as Levinson does in Levinson 2012), then that would be a narrow concept of beauty, which would be a substantive aesthetic property. That notion of beauty may exclude sublimity. However, it is not clear that there is reason to restrict beauty in this way. If, on the contrary, beauty (or at least a concept of beauty) is a generic over-arching aesthetic value, then one suggestion would be that sublimity should be understood as a kind of beauty. In that case, it would turn out that it is sublimity that is a substantive aesthetic concept, not beauty. On that view, beauty and sublimity are not opposed to each other. Instead sublimity is a kind of magnificent beauty or a spectacular or extraordinary way of being beautiful.
Edmund Burke links sublimity with pain as well as pleasure, perhaps drawing on Aristotle’s idea of “catharsis” (Burke 1757). The idea seems to be that judgments of sublimity are grounded on both pleasure and pain, whereas judgments of beauty are grounded only on pleasure. While this may fit the aesthetic experience of wind and rain in a storm at sea or up a mountain, it does not fit the sublimity of the stars in the sky and sublime delicacy of a spider’s web, where there is no exciting terror. So the pain account is not generally true of the sublime.
Richard Wagner claimed that there was musical sublimity in Beethoven’s Ninth Symphony, and that was its great innovation, to take us beyond the merely musically-beautiful to the sublime (Wagner 1870, contrast Hanslick 1950, 1986. Many musicologists follow Wagner, (such as Richard Taruskin [1989, forthcoming]). But on that view, where sublimity is associated with danger and extremity, it is not clear that we have a plausible story of why people seek out the sublime in music. Is it a kind of thrill-seeking, like fairground rides or rock climbing, where people believe themselves to be in danger or at least cannot help imagining that they are? Is their experience of Beethoven’s Ninth mixed with pain in this way? This seems unlikely. Pain and fear have natural expressions on the human face, but the human faces of the audience listening to Beethoven’s Ninth is not noticeably different from the human faces listening to Mozart, Chopin or Tchaikovsky. Their faces are unlike those of those on fairground rides or rock climbers who have to make difficult moves. Furthermore, the audience of the Ninth are not motivated to flee from the concert hall. Do they have to be strapped into their seats to prevent escape as on a fairground ride? By contrast, on the substantive view of the sublime as a kind of beauty, there is a distinctive kind of pleasure that characterizes the experience of the sublime, on which judgments of the sublime are based. It is an intense pleasure, to be sure. But intensity does not entail a mixture with pain.
Sublimity in a representational art such as painting is a different matter. John Martin’s wonderful painting Apocalypse, for example, does evoke a kind of terror, at least imagined terror. And then we might plausibly say that this sublimity is not a kind of beauty. It is a kind of artistic excellence. What this suggests is that is that we should avoid a unitary theory of the sublime. Some sublimity is a way of being beautiful, and some is not.
4.5 Aesthetic Morals
Substantive aesthetic judgments attracted much attention in the latter half of the twentieth century. If the hierarchical proposal is right, they cannot be studied in isolation, for the role of such judgments is to serve verdictive aesthetic judgments of beauty and ugliness. Beauty and ugliness are the primary aesthetic notions, which give sense to the wider class that contemporary aestheticians include as “aesthetic”. The broad notion of the aesthetic can be fixed by what it is to judge that something is beautiful or ugly, or that it has aesthetic merit or demerit. By seeing beauty and ugliness as the preeminent aesthetic notions we can make sense of a unitary category of the aesthetic, which includes the dainty and the dumpy, elegance and sublimity, and which excludes physical, sensory and representational properties of things, as well as their agreeableness. The hierarchical proposal seems to allow us to make the aesthetic/nonaesthetic distinction in a useful way and answer Beardsley and Sibley’s critics. Thus, the notion of the aesthetic can be defended. Some readers may think that Levinson is right about substantive aesthetic concepts and judgments, in which case the notion of the aesthetic will have a question mark hanging over it.
- Barker, Stephen, 2009, “Mathematical Beauty”,
Sztuka i Filozofia, 35: 65–74.
[Barker 2009 available online]
A powerful defence of the claim that mathematical and logical proofs have aesthetic properties.
- Beardsley, Monroe C., 1958, Aesthetics: Problems in the
Philosophy of Criticism, Indianapolis, IN: Hackett.
An extraordinary work, impressive in scope, deploying the notion of the aesthetic. The target of Dickie’s critique.
- –––, 1982, The Aesthetic Point of View:
Selected Essays, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
A selection of Beardsley’s essays.
- Blackburn, Simon, 1998, Ruling Passions: A Theory of Practical
Reasoning, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
A defense of expressivism, a modern version of Hume’s sentimentalism.
- Budd, Malcolm, 2001, “The Pure Judgement of Taste as an
Aesthetic Reflective Judgement”, British Journal of
Aesthetics, 41(3): 247–260.
Refreshingly less deferential than many writings on Kant.
- Burke, Edmund, 1757 , A Philosophical Enquiry into the
Origin of Our Ideas of the Sublime and Beautiful, London: R. and
J. Dodsley. Reprinted Harmonsworth: Penguin, 1998.
A classic, although it is sometimes eccentric.
- Burton, Stephan L., 1992, “‘Thick’ Concepts
Revised”, Analysis, 52(1): 28–32.
An insightful account of substantive aesthetic descriptions, and also of so-called “thick moral concepts”.
- Cohen, Ted, 1973, “ Aesthetic/Non-Aesthetic and the Concept
of Taste: A Critique of Sibley’s Position”,
Theoria, 39(1–3): 113–152.
Argues that Sibley’s account of what makes concepts aesthetic will not do.
- Cova, Florian and Nicholas Pain, 2012, “Can Folk Aesthetics
Ground Aesthetic Realism?”, Monist, 95(2):
Argues that folk aesthetic is not normativist.
- Dickie, George, 1965, “Beardsley’s Phantom Aesthetic
Experience”, Journal of Philosophy, 62(5):
Argues that Beardsley’s account of aesthetic experience will not do.
- Davidson, Donald, 1970 , “Mental Events”, in
Experience and Theory, Lawrence Foster and J. W. Swanson
(eds), Amherst, MA: University of Massachusetts Press and Duckworth.
Reprinted in Essays on Actions and Events, Oxford: Clarendon
Press, 1980, ch. 11. doi:10.1093/0199246270.003.0011
A classic paper in the philosophy of mind arguing for a version of materialism without strict laws relating the mental and the physical.
- Fine, Kit, 1994, “Essence and Modality: The Second
Philosophical Perspectives Lecture”, Philosophical
Perspectives, 8: 1–16. doi:10.2307/2214160
Distinguishes essence from modality; of general philosophical importance.
- Gombrich, Ernst H., 1959, Art and Illusion: A Study in the
Psychology of Pictorial Representation, London: Phaiden.
Argues for anti-formalism by appeal to indiscernibles.
- Hanslick, Eduard, 1986, On the Musically Beautiful, transl. Geoffrey Payzant, Indianapolis: Hacket.
Classic work of musical aesthetics, first published in 1854. Written with panache and wit.
- Hanslick, Eduard, 1950, Hanslick's Music Criticism, translated and edited by Henry Pleasants, London: Dover.
Critical reviews of Bach and Wagner and others. You almost feel sorry for Wagner reading some of these.
- Hume, David, 1757 , “Of the Standard of Taste”,
page reference is to reprint in Essays: Moral, Political and
Literary, Eugene Miller (ed.), Indianapolis, IN: Liberty, 1985.
Hume’s classic attempt to reconcile sentimentalism with normativity.
- Kant, Immanuel, 1790 , Critique of the Power of Judgment
(Kritik der Urteilskraft), page reference to the 2000 translation by Paul Guyer and Eric Matthews, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
Includes the idea that judgments of beauty and ugliness are subjectively universal, and much else.
- Kivy, Peter, 1975, “What Makes ‘Aesthetic’ Terms
Aesthetic?”, Philosophy and Phenomenological
Research, 36(2): 197–211.
Argues that Sibley’s unitary notion of the aesthetic has no basis. Kivy also makes a positive suggestion.
- –––, 1991, “Science and Aesthetic
Appreciation”, Midwest Studies in Philosophy, 16(1):
Sympathetic to mathematical beauty.
- Korsgaard, Christine M., 1996, The Sources of
Normativity, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
Defends a Kantian view of agency and includes a powerful critique of sentimentalist accounts.
- –––, 2009, Self-Constitution: Agency,
Identity, and Integrity, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
Deploys the idea that we aim at a kind of unity in our actions.
- Levinson, Jerrold, 2001, “Aesthetic Properties, Evaluative
Force, and Differences of Sensibility”, in Aesthetic
Concepts: Essays After Sibley, Emily Brady and Jerrold Levinson
(eds.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp. 61–80. Reprinted in
Jerrold Levinson, Contemplating Art: Essays in Aesthetics,
Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2015: 315–335.
Argues for some neutral substantive aesthetic properties.
- –––, 2012, “Musical Beauty”,
Teorema, 31(3): 127–135. Reprinted in Jerrold Levinson,
Musical Concerns: Essays in Philosophy of Music, Oxford:
Oxford University Press, 2015: 58–66.
A nuanced examination of one notion of beauty.
- Mitrović, Branko, 2013, Visuality for Architects:
Architectural Creativity and Modern Theories of Perception and
Imagination, Charlottesville, VA: University of Virginia Press.
Puts the visual dimension back into architecture.
- –––, 2018, “Visuality and Aesthetic
Formalism”, British Journal of Aesthetics, 58(2):
Explores and defends the psychological basis of visual formalism.
- Mothersill, Mary, 1984, Beauty Restored, Oxford: Oxford
An exploration of the notion of beauty, with some historical coverage.
- Nietzsche, Friedrich, 1887 , On the Genealogy of
Morals (Zur Genealogie der Moral: Eine Streitschrift),
Maudemarie Clarke and Alan J. Swensen (trans.), Indianapolis, IN:
Book 3, sections 1–6. An interesting, and not at all uncareful, critique of Kant’s aesthetics. In this passage he is not concerned with Schopenhauer.
- Scruton, Roger, 1974, Art and Imagination: A Study in the
Philosophy of Mind, London: Methuen.
A wide-ranging book, in which the role of imagination is highlighted.
- –––, 1979, The Aesthetics of
Architecture, London: Methuen.
A superb discussion of architecture, but also contains much material relevant to more central topics in aesthetics.
- Schellekens, Elisabeth 2007 , “Conceptual Art”,
Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy (Winter 2017 edition),
Edward N. Zalta (ed.). URL =
A sympathetic interpretation of some of the claims of conceptual artists about their work.
- Sibley, Frank, 1959, “Aesthetic Concepts”,
Philosophical Review, 68(4): 421–450; reprinted in
Sibley 2001: 1–23. 10.2307/2182490 &
Sibley’s classic paper, which makes the notion of the aesthetic central. The target of Cohen and Kivy’s critiques.
- –––, 1965, “Aesthetic and
Nonaesthetic”, Philosophical Review, 74(2):
135–159; reprinted in Sibley 2001: 33–51.
doi:10.2307/2183262 & doi:10.1093/0198238991.003.0003
Explores the dependence of aesthetic features on nonaesthetic features. This paper was originally the second part of Sibley’s paper “Aesthetic Concepts”.
- –––, 2001, Approach to Aesthetics, John Benson, Betty Redfern, and Jeremy Roxbee Cox (eds.), Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/0198238991.001.0001
- Taruskin, Richard, 1989 , “Resisting the Ninth”,
Nineteenth-Century Music, 12(3): 241–256; reprinted in
his Text and Act: Essays on Music and Performance, Oxford:
Oxford University Press, 1995: 235–261. doi:10.2307/746505
Agrees with Wagner about the sublime and the beautiful in Beethoven’s Ninth Symphony.
- –––, forthcoming, “Essence or
Context”, in Essence and Context, Rima Povilioniene,
Rūta Stanevičiūtė, and Nick Zangwill (eds.), New York:
Argues against a Hanslickean view and argues for a Wagnerian conception of the sublime in Beethoven.
- Wagner, Richard 1870 , Beethoven, translated by Roger Allen, Boydell Press. Originally published Leipzig: Verlag von E. W. Fritzsche.
Makes claims about the sublime in Beethoven.
- Walton, Kendall 1970, “Categories of Art”, Philosophical Review, 79: 334–367.
Influential series of anti-formalist arguments.
- Zangwill, Nick, 1995 , “The Beautiful, the Dainty and
the Dumpy”, British Journal of Aesthetics, 35(4):
317–329; reprinted slightly modified in Zangwill 2001:
Includes a statement and defense of the centrality of beauty and ugliness among other aesthetic concepts.
- –––, 1999 , “Feasible Aesthetic
Formalism”, Noûs, 33(4): 610–629; reprinted
in Zangwill 2001: 55–81. doi:10.1111/0029-4624.00196
Argues for a “moderate” formalist view that allows that things can be “dependently beautiful”, in Kant’s sense.
- –––, 2001, The Metaphysics of Beauty, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
- –––, 2013, “Nietzsche on Kant on Beauty
and Disinterest”, History of Philosophy Quarterly,
[Zangwill 2013 available online]
Sympathetically interprets and defends Nietzsche’s criticism of Kant on disinterest.
- –––, forthcoming, “Folk Aesthetics and
Normativity: A Critique of Experimental Aesthetics”, in
Advances in Experimental Philosophy of Aesthetics, Florian
Cova and Sébastien Réhault (eds), London: Bloomsbury.
Criticizes ‘experimental philosophy’, in general, and in particular the experimental denial that ordinary aesthetic judgments claim correctness.
- Zemach, Eddy, 1995, Real Beauty, University Park: Penn
Argues for an extreme realist view.
- Bender, John W., 1995, “General but Defeasible Reasons in Aesthetic Evaluation: The Particularist/Generalist Dispute”, Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 53(4): 379–392. doi:10.2307/430973
- Dickie, George, 1988, Evaluating Art, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
- Goldman, Alan, 1995, Aesthetic Value, Boulder, CO: Westview.
- Greenberg, Clement, 1999, Homemade Esthetics, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Hopkins, Robert, 2011, “How to Be a Pessimist about Aesthetic Testimony”,, Journal of Philosophy, 108(3): 138–157. doi:10.5840/jphil201110838
- Kivy, Peter, 1968, “Aesthetic Aspects and Aesthetic Qualities”, Journal of Philosophy, 65(4): 85–93. doi:10.2307/2024481
- Levinson, Jerrold, 1992 , “Pleasure and the Value of Works of Art”, The British Journal of Aesthetics, 32(4): 295–306. Reprinted in his The Pleasures of Aesthetics: Philosophical Essays, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press, 11–24. doi:10.1093/bjaesthetics/32.4.295
- McCloskey, Mary, 1987, Kant’s Aesthetic, New York: SUNY Press.
- Plato, Hippias Major. In Plato's Complete Works, edited by John Cooper, Indiapolis: Hackett, 1997.
- Saito, Yuriko, 2001, “Everyday Aesthetics”, Philosophy and Literature, 25)1): 87–95. doi:10.1353/phl.2001.0018
- –––, 2007, Everyday Aesthetics, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199278350.001.0001
- Scruton, Roger, 1983, “Understanding Music”, in his The Aesthetic Understanding: Essays in the Philosophy of Art and Culture, London: Carcanet.
- Zuckert, Rachel, 2007, Kant on Beauty and Biology: An Interpretation of the Critique of Judgment, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511487323
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.