Notes to Ibn Rushd's Natural Philosophy

1. The Italian Averroist Marco Antonio Zimara (1475–1535) observes a seeming contradiction between this idea of happiness and Averroes’ words elsewhere affirming that true happiness consists in “intuitive knowledge of God” (LC 464vº).

2. I follow the marginal note on LC 38D4 pointing out that another manuscript deletes the term ‘non’. Unfortunately, neither the MC nor the SC can help to solve the dilemma.

3. Phys. II.2, 194b10: Eidenai to eidos kai to ti estin, M. Scott, Scientia formae et quidditatis.

4. Omnia sint naturaliter necessario, literally, an adverb: “by necessity”.

5. Michael Scott’s Latin translation does not mention God, “rain comes from the sky” (LC 76F).

6. Isḥāq Ibn Ḥunayn’s Arabic translation is more explicit: “some things are in place accidentally, for instance, the soul and the heavens, i.e. the whole universe” (Ṭabīʻa [1964: 330: 12–13]).

7. Cf. similar explanation in SC VIII, pp. 138–139, referring to Phys. VIII, 254b33–255a30.

8. If the sun’s path is observed from the earth as it were at rest, the sun appears to move around it in a path which is tilted with respect to the rotation axis at 23.5°.

9. Forma fluens are the terms which the Latin philosophers would use to describe it, cf. Maier 1958: 64–68.

10. Where the Greek original reads synekhōs (b14, b29), the Arabic translates dā’iman, and the Latin semper.

11. There are two versions of the first chapters of book VII, Isḥāq Ibn Ḥunayn translates from the textus alter, and Averroes very likely uses it.

12. Cf. Maier 1952: 152–153, for Averroes’ notion of generans.

13. Potentia, but the Vindobonensis manuscript reads adaptio, LC Schmieja: 79:9.

14. In Book VIII, Averroes applies the doctrine of the complete quantity to the process of wearing a stone by dropping water (LC 359BC TC23, commenting on Phys. 253b6–31).

15. Averroes often does not distinguish between them both: “[Aristotle] would not establish the eternal continuity existent accidentally in these motions as an evidence (signum) for the eternal continuity existent in the first motion, or motions” (LC 339EF).

16. I choose the altera lectio, although the text printed in the main body reads finita.

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