#### Supplement to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

## Proof of VC1

We exploit two mathematical facts about projection operators
*P*_{i}:

(A)

P_{i}^{2}=P_{i}(theP_{i}are ‘idempotent’);(B) If H is a Hilbert space of denumerable dimension, and if the

P_{i}are operators projecting onq_{i}, where the set {q_{i}} forms an orthonormal basis ofH, then Σ_{i}P_{i}=I(whereIis the identity operator) (theP_{i}form ‘a resolution of the identity’).

Consider now an arbitrary state
|ψ> and an arbitrary nondegenerate operator *Q* on H_{3},
its eigenvectors |*q*_{1}>,
|*q*_{2}>, |*q*_{3}>, and
projection operators *P*_{1}, *P*_{2},
*P*_{3} whose ranges are the rays spanned by these
vectors. The eigenvectors form an orthonormal basis, thus, by (B):

P_{1}+P_{2}+P_{3}=I

Now, *P*_{1}, *P*_{2}, *P*_{3} are compatible, so
from assumption KS2 (a) (Sum Rule):

v(P_{1}) +v(P_{2}) +v(P_{3}) =v(I)

Now, from KS2 (b) (Product Rule) and (A):

v(P_{i})^{2}=v(P_{i}^{2}) =v(P_{i})⇒ v(P_{i}) = 1 or 0

Now, assume an observable *R* such that *v*(*R*)
≠ 0 in state
|ψ>. From this assumption and KS2
(b) (Product Rule):

v(R) =v(IR) =v(I)v(R)⇒ v(I) = 1

Hence:

(VC1)v(P_{1}) +v(P_{2}) +v(P_{3}) = 1

where *v*(*P*_{i}) = 1 or 0, for *i* = 1, 2, 3.