#### Supplement to Frege's Logic, Theorem, and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of Hume's Principle from Basic Law V — *Grundgesetze*-Style

[Note: We use ε*F* to denote the extension of the
concept *F*.]

Let *P*,*Q* be arbitrarily chosen concepts. We want
to show:

#P= #Q≡P≈Q

(→) Assume #*P* = #*Q* (to show:
*P* ≈ *Q*). Note that since
*P* ≈ *P* (this is Fact 2 in the subsection on
Equinumerosity), we know by the previous Lemma that
ε*P* ∈ #*P*. But then, by identity
substitution, ε*P* ∈ #*Q*. So, by our
previous Lemma, *P* ≈ *Q*.

(←) Assume *P* ≈ *Q* (to show: #*P*
= #*Q*). By definition of #, we have to show
ε*P*^{≈} =
ε*Q*^{≈}. So, by Basic Law V, we have to
show ∀*x*(*P*^{≈}*x*
≡ *Q*^{≈}*x*). We pick an arbitrary
object *b* (to show: *P*^{≈}*b*
≡ *Q*^{≈}*b*).

(→) AssumeP^{≈}b. Then, by definition ofP^{≈}and λ-Conversion, ∃H(b= εH&H≈P). LetRbe an arbitrary such concept; sob= εR&R≈P. From the second conjunct and our initial hypothesis, it follows (by the transitivity of equinumerosity) thatR≈Q. So, reassembling what we know, it follows thatb= εR&R≈Q. By existential generalization, it follows that ∃H(b= εH&H≈Q). So by λ-Conversion,[λx∃H(x= εH&H≈Q)]bIt follows from this, by definition, that

Q^{≈}b.(←) (Exercise)